#### Supplement to Probabilistic Causation

## Three Results Concerning Statistical Distinguishability

### 1. Time-ordered variables

If the variables in **V** are ordered from
‘earlier’ to ‘later’, such that only earlier
variables can cause later ones; if the probability P assigns positive
probability to every assignment of values of the variables in
**V**; and the probability measure P satisfies the Causal
Markov and Minimality Conditions with respect to the graph
**G**; then it will be possible to uniquely identify the
graph **G** on the basis of P. (Pearl 1988, Chapter 3.)
This is a very strong result. If the variables in **V**
are time-indexed, and we disallow any graph with an arrow from a later
variable to an earlier variable, then causation does reduce to
probability if the CMC and Minimality Conditions hold.

### 2. Linear Functions with Non-Gaussian Errors

If the variables in **V** are continuous; each variable
is a linear function of its parents, together with an error
distribution that is non-Gaussian; and the probability P on
**V** satisfies the CMC and Minimality Condition with
respect to the graph **G**; then it will be possible to
uniquely identify **G** on the basis of P. (Shimizu,
Hoyer, Hyvärinen, and Kerminen (2006).) If the way in which each
variable in **V** depends upon its parents has the right
functional form, then it is possible to recover the causal structure
from the probability even without temporal information.

### 3. Statistical Distinguishability via Embedding Graphs

Let **G** and **G**′ be any two
graphs over the vertex set **V** such that every
probability distribution on **V** that satisfies the CMC
and Minimality Condition with respect to **G** also
satisfies these conditions with respect to **G**′,
and vice versa. Then there exists a variable set **W**
⊃ **V**, and graphs **G***,
**G**^{†} on
**W** such that: (a) if *X* and *Y* are both
in **V**, then **G*** will have an arrow from
*X* to *Y* just in case **G** does and
**G**^{†} will have an arrow from
*X* to *Y* just in case **G**′ does;
and (b) if at least one of *X* or *Y* is not in
**V** but both are in **W**, then
**G*** will have an arrow from *X* to *Y*
just in case **G**^{†} does (so
intuitively, **G*** and
**G**^{†} are embeddings of
**G** and **G**′ (respectively) into
the same external structure); and (c) some probability measure on
**W** that satisfies the CMC and Minimality Condition with
respect to **G*** does not satisfy these conditions with
respect to **G**^{†} , or vice versa.
(Spirtes, Glymour and Scheines (2000), Chapter 4.) Thus if we are not
able to determine from probabilities alone whether **G**
or **G**′ is the correct causal graph over
**V**, we may be able to settle the matter by looking for
the right sort of additional variables.