#### Supplement to Chaos

## Appendix: Global Lyapunov Exponents

One way to get a handle on global Lyapunov exponents is to see how
they arise out of linear stability analysis of the trajectories of
evolution equations. Consider the first-order, ordinary differential
equation system
d* x* ⁄ d

*t*=

**and suppose that**

*Fx**** is a steady point, i.e. a point at which**

*x***(**

*F****) = 0. We can study the behavior of trajectories near**

*x**** by considering**

*x***(**

*x**t*) =

*** + ε(**

*x**t*), where ε(

*t*) is an infinitesimal perturbation to every component of

**. Substituting back into**

*x***and expanding to first order in ε(**

*F**t*) (considering only the perturbations at

*t*= 0 and dropping the explicit dependence on

*t*from ε) yields

(A1)(Fx^{*}+ ε) =(Fx^{*}) +(Jx^{*})ε +O(ε),

where the matrix
** J**(

**) is the**

*x**n*×

*n*Jacobian matrix of partial derivatives of

**evaluated at the point**

*F***. We then obtain an equation for the time dependence of the perturbation of**

*x***, namely**

*x*

(A2)

dε d t= (Jx^{*})ε +O(ε^{2}).

A linear stability analysis results if we neglect terms of
ε^{2} or higher powers in (A2). If
ε is a real-valued vector and
** J** a real-valued matrix (i.e., having no
complex values), and we assume a solution of the form
ε = λ

*e*, (A2) reduces to the eigenvalue equation

^{st}

(A3)λ =Jsλ.

Linear stability analysis can be used to characterize Lyapunov
exponents for nonlinear systems of equations. Consider the initial
condition ** x**(0) for our first-order system of
differential equations and an infinitesimal displacement from

**(0) in the direction of some tangent vector,**

*x***(0). Then the evolution of**

*y***according to (A2) is given by**

*y*

(A4)

d yd t= (J)·x,y

valid for only an infinitesimal neighborhood about
** x**(0). So the value of the vector

**changes in time according to the values**

*y***takes on over time. Here**

*J***⁄ |**

*y***| gives the direction of the infinitesimal displacement from**

*y***, where the bars indicate absolute magnitude. Additionally, |**

*x***| ⁄ |**

*y***(0)| gives the factor by which the infinitesimal displacement grows (|**

*y***|>|**

*y***(0)|) or shrinks (|**

*y***|<|**

*y***(0)|). The Lyapunov exponent is now defined with respect to initial condition**

*y***(0) and initial orientation of the infinitesimal displacement**

*x***(0) ⁄ |**

*y***(0)| as**

*y*

(A5)λ( ),x(0)

y| |y(0)) = lim _{t→∞}t^{−1}ln(

d ⁄ dyt| |y(0)) = lim _{t→∞}t^{−1}ln(

| |J(x)·y| |y(0)) .

For an *n*-dimensional system, there will be at most
*n* distinct Lyapunov exponents for a given
** x**(0), and the relevant exponent is picked out
by the initial orientation

**(0) ⁄ |**

*y***(0)|. The infinite time limit plays an important role in this analysis as it indicates that the Lyapunov exponents represent time-averaged quantities (meaning that transient behavior has decayed). The existence of this limit is guaranteed by Oseledec's (1969) multiplicative ergodic theorem, which holds under mild conditions. In addition,**

*y***is a constant in space in this limit (otherwise its value varies in space), and the Lyapunov exponents obtained from (A5) are then the same for almost every value of**

*J***(0). Hence, one often drops the dependence on the initial condition in (A5). Such exponents are usually called**

*x**global*Lyapunov exponents.