## Notes to The Continuum Hypothesis

1. See Hallett (1984) for further historical information on the role of CH in the early foundations of set theory.

2. We have of necessity presupposed much in the way of set theory. The reader seeking additional detail—for example, the definitions of regular and singular cardinals and other fundamental notions—is directed to one of the many excellent texts in set theory, for example Jech (2003).

3.
To say that GCH holds below δ is
just to say that 2^{ℵα} =
ℵ_{α+1} for all ω ≤ α <
δ and to say that GCH holds at δ is just to say that
2^{ℵδ} = ℵ_{δ+1}).

4.
To see this argue as
follows: Assume large cardinal axioms at the level involved in (A) and
(B) and assume that there is a proper class of Woodin
cardinals. Suppose for contradiction that there is a prewellordering
in *L*(ℝ) of length ℵ_{2}. Now, using (A) force to
obtain a saturated ideal on ℵ_{2} without collapsing
ℵ_{2}. In this forcing extension, the original
prewellordering is still a prewellordering in *L*(ℝ) of length
ℵ_{2}, which contradicts (B). Thus, the original large
cardinal axioms imply that Θ^{L(ℝ)}
≤ ℵ_{2}. The same argument applies in the more
general case where the prewellordering is universally Baire.

5. For more on the topic of invariance under set forcing and the extent to which this has been established in the presence of large cardinal axioms, see §4.4 and §4.6 of the entry “Large Cardinals and Determinacy”.

6.
The non-stationary
ideal *I*_{NS} is a proper class from the point of view
of *H*(ω_{2}) and it manifests (through Solovay’s
theorem on splitting stationary sets) a non-trivial application of
AC. For further details concerning *A*^{G} see
§4.6 of the entry
“Large Cardinals and Determinacy”.

7.
Here are the details: Let *A* ∈
Γ^{∞} and *M* be a countable transitive model of
ZFC. We say that *M* is *A*-*closed* if for all set
generic extensions *M*[*G*] of *M*, *A* ∩ *M*[*G*] ∈
*M*[*G*]. Let *T* be a set of sentences and φ be a sentence. We
say that *T* ⊢_{Ω} φ if there is a set *A* ⊆
ℝ such that

*L*(*A*, ℝ) ⊧ AD^{+},- 𝒫 (ℝ) ∩
*L*(*A*, ℝ) ⊆ Γ^{∞}, and - for all countable transitive
*A*-closed*M*,*M*⊧ “*T*⊧_{Ω}φ”,where here AD

^{+}is a strengthening of AD.

8.
Here are the details: First we
need another conjecture: (The AD^{+} Conjecture) Suppose
that *A* and *B* are sets of reals such that *L*(*A*, ℝ)
and *L*(*B*, ℝ) satisfy AD^{+}. Suppose every set

X∈ 𝒫 (ℝ) ∩ (L(A, ℝ) ∪L(B, ℝ))

is ω_{1}-universally Baire. Then either

(Δ̰21)^{L(A,ℝ)}⊆ (Δ̰21)^{L(B,ℝ)}

or

(Δ̰21)^{L(B,ℝ)}⊆ (Δ̰21)}^{L(A,ℝ)}.

(Strong Ω conjecture) Assume there is a proper class of
Woodin cardinals. Then the Ω Conjecture holds and the
AD^{+} Conjecture is Ω-valid.

9.
As
mentioned at the end of Section 2.2 it could be the case (given our
present knowledge) that large cardinal axioms imply that
Θ^{L(ℝ)} < ℵ_{3} and, more
generally, rule out the definable failure of 2^{ℵ0}
= ℵ_{2}. This would arguably further buttress the case
for 2^{ℵ0} = ℵ_{2}.