#### Supplement to Death

## The Argument: Death and Posthumous Events Don't Affect Us

Here is a more explicit version of 1-13 (with thanks to Curtis Brown):

Let
*s*,*s*′, … range over
subjects; *v*,*v*′, … over events and
states; and *t*,*t*′, … over times. We can
use the following abbreviations:

SD( v,s,t):vis the state ofsbeing dead attharm2( v,s):vharmssharm3( v,s,t):vharmssattt>t’:tis aftert’t≥t’:tis aftert’ort=t’

We can use the following function symbols:

For any subject

s, ED(s) is the event ofs’s deathFor any event or state

v, T(v) is the timevoccurs or holds

Next come axioms:

A1: ∀ v∀s(harm2(v,s) iff ∃tharm3(v,s,t))A2: ∀ v∀s(vis posthumous forsiff T(v) > T(ED(s)))A3: ∀ v∀s∀t(If SD(v,s), thent> T(ED(s)))

Then premises:

P1: ∀ v∀s∀t(Ifvaffectssatt, thenvcausally affectssatt)P2: ∀ v∀s∀t(Ifvcausally affectssatt, thensexists att)P3: ∀ v∀s∀t(If harm3(v,s,t), thenvaffectssatt)P4: ∀ v∀s∀t(Ifvcausally affectssatt, thent≥ T(v))P5: ∀ v∀s(Ift> T(ED(s)), then it is not the case thatsexists att)

Here are the conclusions to be reached:

C1: No posthumous event harms us; i.e.,

∀v∀s(Ifvis posthumous fors, then ~harm2(v,s))C2: We are not harmed by the state of our being dead; i.e.,

∀v∀s∀t(If SD(v,s,t), then ~harm2(v,s))C3: The event of death harms us, if at all, only when it occurs; i.e.,

∀v∀s∀t(Ifv=ED(s) & harm3(v,s,t), thent= T(ED(s)))

**Argument for C1**:

Let *v*_{1} be any event or state,
*s*_{1} any subject and *t*_{1} any
time.

1. | v_{1} is posthumous for
s_{1} |
(assumption for conditional introduction) |

2. | harm2(v_{1},
s_{1}) |
(assumption for reductio ad absurdum) |

3. | T(v_{1}) >
T(ED(s_{1})) |
(1, A2, UI, biconditional elimination) |

4. | harm3(v_{1},
s_{1},t) |
(2, A1, UI, biconditional elimination, MP) |

5. | harm3(v_{1}, s_{1},
t_{1}) |
(4, EI) |

6. | v_{1} affects s_{1}
at t_{1} |
(5, P3, UI, MP) |

7. | v_{1} causally affects
s_{1} at t_{1} |
(6, P1, UI, MP) |

8. | t_{1} >
T(v_{1}) |
(7, P4, UI, MP) |

9. | t_{1} >
T(ED(s_{1})) |
(8, 3, transitivity of >) |

10. | ~s_{1} exists at
t_{1} |
(9, P5, UI, MP) |

11. | s_{1} exists at
t_{1} |
(7, P2, UI, MP) |

12. | ~harm2(v_{1},
s_{1}) |
(2, 10,11, reductio ad absurdum |

13. | If v_{1} is posthumous for s_{1},
then ~harm2(v_{1},
s_{1}) |
(1, 13, conditional introduction) |

14. | ∀v∀s(If v is posthumous for
s, then ~harm2(v,s)) |
(13 UG) |

**Argument for C2**:

Let *v*_{1} be any event or state,
*s*_{1} any subject and *t*_{1} any
time.

1. | SD(v_{1}, s_{1},
t_{1}) |
(assumption for conditional introduction) |

2. | t_{1} >
T(ED(s_{1})) |
(1, A3, UI, MP)) |

3. | v_{1} is posthumous for
s_{1} |
(2, A2, biconditional elimination) |

4. | ~harm2(v_{1},
s_{1}) |
(3, C1, UI, MP) |

5. | If SD(v_{1}, s_{1},
t_{1}), then~harm2( v_{1},
s_{1}) |
(1, 4, CI) |

6. | ∀v∀s∀t(If SD(v,s,t),
then ~harm2(v,s)) |
(5, UG) |

**Argument for C3**:

Let *v*_{1} be any event or state,
*s*_{1}any subject and *t*_{1} any
time.

1. | v_{1} = ED(s_{1}) &
harm3(v_{1}, s_{1},
t_{1}) |
(assumption for conditional introduction) |

2. | harm3(ED(s_{1}),
s_{1},
t_{1}) |
(1, simplication, substitution) |

3. | ED(s_{1}) affects
s_{1} at
t_{1} |
(2, P3, UI, MP) |

4. | ED(s_{1}) causally affects
s_{1} at
t_{1} |
(3, P1, UI, MP) |

5. | t_{1} ≥
T(ED(s_{1})) |
(4, P4, UI, MP) |

6. | t_{1} >
T(ED(s_{1})) |
(assumption for reductio ad absurdum) |

7. | ~s_{1} exists at
t_{1} |
(6, P5, UI, MP) |

8. | s_{1} exists at
t_{1} |
(4, P2, UI, MP) |

9. | ~t_{1} >
T(ED(s_{1})) |
(6, 8, reductio ad absurdum) |

10. | t_{1} =
T(ED(s_{1})) |
(5, 9, disjunctive syllogism) |

11. | If v_{1}=ED(s_{1}) &
harm3(v_{1},s_{1},t_{1}),
then t_{1} = T(ED(s_{1})) |
(1, 10, conditional introduction) |

12. | ∀v∀s∀t(If v=ED(s) &
harm3(v,s,t), then
t = T(ED(s)) |
(11, UG) |