#### Supplement to Epistemic Utility Arguments for Probabilism

## Proof of Theorem 7

We wish to prove the following theorem (Joyce 1998):

Theorem 7.SupposeGsatisfies:

Strongly Non-Trivial,Proposition-Wise Continuity,Unbounded,Truth-Directed,Strong Convexity,Symmetry, andDominating Compromise.Then:

- For every non-probabilistic
bin−B, there is a probabilisticPpinthat strongly dominates it.P- For every probabilistic
pin, there is no credence functionPbinthat weakly dominates it.B

We do this by proving the following two lemmas:

Lemma 1 (de Finetti)is the convex hullPV^{+}of. That is,Vis the smallest set that (i) contains each valuation functionPvinand (ii) contains λVb+ (1-λ)whenever it containsb′band. In other words, ifb′has properties (i) and (ii), thenUV^{+}⊆.U

Lemma 2 (Joyce)SupposeGsatisfies

Strongly Non-Trivial,Proposition-Wise Continuity,Unbounded,Truth-Directed,Strong Convexity,Symmetry, andDominating Compromise.Then:

- If
b∈−BV^{+}, then there ispinV^{+}such thatG(b,v) >G(p,v) for allvin.V- If
p∈V^{+}, then there is nobinsuch thatBG(p,v) ≥G(b,v) for allvin.V

### Proof of Lemma 1

We prove this in two stages: first we prove
*V*^{+} ⊆
** P** and then we prove

**⊆**

*P*

*V*^{+}.

*V*^{+}⊆. To prove this, we need only show that (i)*P*⊆*V*and (ii)*P*contains λ*P**b*+ (1-λ)whenever it contains*b*′*b*and. It is straightforward to verify that every valuation function is a probability function. After all, the classical truth value of a disjunction*b*′*A*∨*B*of mutually exclusive propositions*A*and*B*is obtained by adding together the truth values of the disjuncts*A*and*B*. (ii) is straightforward arithmetic.⊆*P**V*^{+}. To prove this, we must show that each*p*inis a convex combination of the elements of*P*. That is, for each*V**p*in, there is 0 ≤ λ*P*_{v}≤ 1 for each*v*insuch that Σ λ*V*_{v}= 1 and*p*= Σ λ_{v}*v*. If this is true, then each probability function must belong to the convex hull*V*^{+}of. To prove this, we use the notation Σ*V*_{A}to denote the sum over all worlds*v*that make*A*true. Σ without a subscript denotes the sum over all worlds*v*in. Suppose*V**p*in. And suppose*P**A*is a proposition in. Then note that*F**A*is equivalent to the disjunction of all the atomic propositions*v*ofthat entail*F**A*; and these atoms correspond to the valuation functions that make*A*true. Thus, since probability functions are finitely additive, for each proposition*A*in,*F**p*(*A*)= Σ _{A}*p*(*v*)= Σ _{∼A}0.*p*(*v*) + Σ_{A}1.*p*(*v*)= Σ *p*(*v*)*v*(*A*).Thus,

*p*= Σ*p*(*v*)*v*, as required.

This completes our proof.

### Proof of Lemma 2

Suppose *G* satisfies **Strongly Non-Trivial**,
**Proposition-Wise Continuity**,
**Unbounded**, **Truth-Directed**,
**Strong Convexity**, **Symmetry**, and
**Dominating Compromise**. We begin by extending
*G* from a measure of the distance between a credence function
*b* and a valuation function *v* to a measure of the
distance between any two credence functions *b* and
* b′*. We define

*D*:

**×**

*B***→ ℜ in the following way:**

*B*D(b,c) :=G(v+ (b−c),v)

for *v* in ** V**. Since

*G*is

**Truth-Directed**, we have

*G*(

*b*,

*v*) =

*G*(

*c*,

*v*), if |

*b*(

*A*) −

*v*(

*A*)| = |

*c*(

*A*) −

*v*(

*A*)| for all

*A*in

**. From this, we can derive the following facts about our new distance measure**

*F**D*:

- The definition of
*D*does not depend on the valuation*v*in**V**used in its definition. That is,*G*(*v*+ (*b*−*c*),*v*) =*G*(*v*′ + (*b*−*c*),*v*′) for all*v*,*v*′ in.*V* *D*extends*G*. That is, for*b*inand*B**v*in,*V**G*(*b*,*v*) =*D*(*b*,*v*).*D*is symmetric. That is, for all*b*,*c*in,*B**D*(*b*,*c*) =*D*(*c*,*b*).

With the definition of *D* in hand, we can prove Lemma 2(1)
and Lemma 2(2).

We begin with Lemma 2(1). We wish to show that each *b* in
** B** −

*V*^{+}is strongly dominated by some

*p*in

*V*^{+}. Thus, we let

*b*be a credence function in

**−**

*B*

*V*^{+}. And we consider the function

*D*(

*b*, •) :

*V*^{+}→ ℜ. This function takes a member of

*V*^{+}and gives its distance from

*b*. Now, it follows from

**Proposition-Wise Continuity**that

*D*(

*b*, •) is continuous with respect to the Euclidean metric. Thus, we have that

*D*(

*b*, •) is a real-valued, continuous function on a closed, bounded subset of ℜ

^{n}. The Extreme Value Theorem says that, for any such function, there is at least one member of its domain at which it takes a minimum value. That is, there is a

*p*in

*V*^{+}such that

*D*(

*b*,

*p*) ≤

*D*(

*b*,

*c*), for all

*c*in

*V*^{+}. In fact, by

**Strong Convexity**and

**Symmetry**, we can show that this minimum must be unique. If it weren't, we would have

*D*(

*b*,

*p*),

*D*(

*b*,

*p*′) ≤

*D*(

*b*,

*c*) for all

*c*in

*V*^{+}. But then by

**Strong Convexity**and

**Symmetry**, we would have

*D*(

*b*, ½

*p*+ ½

*p*′) <

*D*(

*b*,

*p*),

*D*(

*b*,

*p*′), which gives a contradiction, since ½

*p*+ ½

*p*′ is in

*V*^{+}. In sum: for each

*b*in

**−**

*B*

*V*^{+}there is a unique closest member of

*V*^{+}. We denote it

*p*. Our next task is to show that, for all

*v*in

**,**

*V**D*(

*p*,

*v*) <

*D*(

*b*,

*v*), and thus

*G*(

*p*,

*v*) <

*G*(

*b*,

*v*). That is, we must show that

*b*is further than

*p*from each valuation function

*v*.

Suppose *v* ∈ ** V**. If

*p*=

*v*, then by

**Strongly Non-Trivial**, we have

*D*(

*p*,

*v*) <

*D*(

*b*,

*v*), and we're done. Thus, we suppose that

*p*≠

*v*. Let

R:= {λp+ (1-λ)v: -∞ < λ < ∞}

Thus, *R* is the straight line that passes through *p*
and *v* and passes to infinity in both directions.

We now prove that there is some *m* that lies on the line
*R* such that

*D*(*m*,*v*) ≥*D*(*p*,*v*)*D*(*b*,*v**D*(*m*,*v*)

If we can show this, then we can put (1) and (2) together to give
*D*(*p*, *v*) < *D*(*b*,
*v*), as required. Consider the function *D*(*b*,
•) on *R*. Again, this is a continuous, real-valued
function on *R*. And, by **Unbounded**, *D*
tends to infinity as we move away from *v* towards *p*
and beyond. But since *p* is closest to *b* of all
members of *V*^{+}, it is closer to
*b* than *v* is. That is, *D*(*b*,
*p*) < *D*(*b*, *v*). Thus, the
Intermediate Value Theorem gives us that there is a credence function
*k* in *R* that lies beyond *p* on the line from
*v* through *p* to infinity that is exactly the same
distance from *b* and *v* is. That is,
*D*(*b*, *k*) = *D*(*b*,
*v*). Then, by **Symmetry** and **Strong
Convexity**, ½*k* + ½*v* is the
unique minimum of *D*(*b*, •) on the segment
*kv* of this line. Let *m* be ½*k* +
½*v*. So *m* is the credence function that lies on
the segment *kv* that is closest to *b*. We now prove
that *m* satisfies (1) and (2) from above:

- If
*m*=*p*, then certainly*D*(*m*,*v*) ≥*D*(*p*,*v*). Thus, suppose*m*≠*p*. First, we show that*p*lies on the line segment*mv*. Suppose not. Then*m*must lie on the line segment*pv*. But this line segment lies entirely inside*V*^{+}. Thus,*m*is in*V*^{+}and it is closer to*b*than*p*is. But recall that*p*is the credence function in*V*^{+}that is closest to*b*. So we have a contradiction. Thus,*p*lies on the line segment*mv*. Thus, by**Truth-Directed**, we have that*m*is at least as far from*v*as*p*is. That is,*D*(*m*,*v*) ≥*D*(*p*,*v*). Thus, (1). - By the definition of
*k*, we have*D*(*b*,*k*) =*D*(*b*,*v*). A little calculation shows that, by**Truth-Directed**, we have*D*(*b*,*k*) =*D*(*b*, 2*b*−*k*). Thus, we have*D*(*b*,*v*) =*D*(*b*, 2*b*−*k*). And thus by**Strong Convexity**and**Symmetry**, it follows that*D*(*b*, •) obtains a unique minimum on the line segment*v*(2*b*-*k*) at ½(*v*−*k*) +*b*. Thus, in particular,*D*(*b*,*v*) >*D*(*b*, ½(*v*-*k*) +*b*). But, again by**Truth-Directed**, from the definition of*m*we have*D*(*b*, ½(*w*−*k*) +*b*) =*D*(*m*,*v*). Thus, (2).

As already noted, putting (1) and (2) together gives us Lemma 2(1).

Next, we turn to Lemma 2(2). This time we must show that no credence
function in *V*^{+} is weakly dominated
by any other credence function in ** B**. In fact,
we show something a little stronger. We show that, for any

*p*in

*V*^{+}and any distinct

*b*in

**, there is**

*B**v*in

**such that**

*V**G*(

*p*,

*v*) <

*G*(

*b*,

*v*). That is, by moving from a credence function in

*V*^{+}to any alternative credence function, our agent will become less accurate at some world. Suppose, for a reductio, that

*p*in

*V*^{+}and

*b*in

**and, for all**

*B**v*in

**,**

*V**G*(

*b*,

*v*) ≤

*G*(

*p*,

*v*). Thus,

*D*(

*b*,

*v*) ≤

*D*(

*p*,

*v*). Then define the following subset

**⊆**

*A*

*V*^{+}as follows:

:= {AcinV^{+}:D(b,c) ≤D(p,c)}

Thus, ** A** is the set of credence functions
that are either (i) equidistant from

*b*and

*p*or (ii) closer to

*b*than to

*p*.

**is a convex set that contains all valuation functions**

*A**v*in

**, but does not contain**

*V**p*. Thus, we have that

**is a convex set that includes**

*A***but is a proper subset of**

*V*

*V*^{+}. This contradicts our assumption that

*V*^{+}is the convex hull of

**. This gives us our conclusion.**

*V*⊆*V*, by the assumption from which we are trying to derive a contradiction.*A**p*∉, since by*A***Non-Triviality**, we have*D*(*b*,*p*) >*D*(*p*,*p*). Thus,⊂*A**V*^{+}.is convex, since by*A***Dominating Compromise**, we have: for all*b*,*b*′,*c*,*c*′ in, if*B**D*(*b*,*c*) ≤*D*(*b*′,*c*) and*D*(*b*,*c*′) ≤*D*(*b*′,*c*′), then for all 0 ≤ λ ≤ 1,*D*(*b*, λ*c*+ (1-λ)*c*′) ≤*D*(*b*′, λ*c*+ (1-λ)*c*′)

This gives us our contradiction from which we infer Lemma 2(2).