Supplement to The Problem of Evil

A Quantitative Version of a Draper-Style Argument

(1) Pr(O/HI) > Pr(O/T) + k (Substantive premise)
(2) Pr(O/HI) = Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) (Definition of conditional probability)

Therefore,

(3) Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) > Pr(O/T) + k (From (1) and (2).)
(4) Pr(O/T) = Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) (Definition of conditional probability)

Therefore,

(5) Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) > Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) + k (From (3) and (4).)
(6) Pr(O & HI) = Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O) (From the definition of conditional probability)

Therefore

(7) Pr(O & HI)/Pr(HI) = Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(HI) (From (6).)

Therefore,

(8) Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(HI) > Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) + k (From (5) and (7).)
(9) Pr(O & T) = Pr(T/O) × Pr(O) (From the definition of conditional probability)

Therefore,

(10) Pr(O & T)/Pr(T) = Pr(T/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(T) (From (9).)

Therefore,

(11) Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(HI) > Pr(T/O) × Pr(O)/Pr(T) + k (From (8) and (10).)
(12) Pr(O/HI) > 0 (From (1).)
(13) Pr(HI) > 0, (Substantive premise)
(14) Pr(OI/HI) × Pr(HI) = Pr(O & HI) = Pr(HI/O) × Pr(O) (From the definition of conditional probability)

Therefore,

(15) Pr(O) > 0, (From (12), (13), and (14).)

so that Pr(HI)/Pr(O) is defined. Therefore, we can multiply both sides of (11) by Pr(HI)/Pr(O) which gives:

(16) Pr(HI/O) > Pr(T/O) × Pr(HI)/Pr(T) + k × Pr(HI)/Pr(O)
(17) HI entails ~T (Substantive premise)

Therefore,

(18) Pr(~T/O) ≥ Pr(HI/O) (From (17).)

Therefore,

(19) Pr(~T/O) > Pr(T/O) × Pr(HI)/Pr(T) + k × Pr(HI)/Pr(O) (From (16) and (18).)
(20) Pr(HI) ≥ Pr(T) (Substantive premise)

Therefore,

(21) Pr(~T/O) > Pr(T/O) + k × Pr(HI)/Pr(O) (From (19) and (20).)
(22) O entails [(T & O) or (~T & O)] and [(T & O) or (~T & O)] entails O (Logical truth)

Therefore,

(23) Pr(T & O) + Pr(~T & O) = Pr(O) (From (22).)

Then, in view of (15), we can divide both sides of (23) by Pr(O), which gives us:

(24) Pr(T & O)/Pr(O) + Pr(~T & O)/Pr(O) = Pr(O)/Pr(O) = 1

Therefore,

(25) Pr(T/O) + Pr(~T/O) = 1 (From (24).)

Therefore,

(26) Pr(T) < 0.5 - k × Pr(HI)/2 ×Pr(O) (From (21) and (25).)

Return to The Problem of Evil

Copyright © 2012 by
Michael Tooley <Michael.Tooley@Colorado.edu>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free