#### Supplement to Frege's Theorem and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Reconstruction of the *Grundlagen* Derivation of Hume's Principle

The derivation of Hume's Principle in **Gl**, §73,
appeals to the following principle, which is a higher-order version of
the Law of Extensions:

Principle:Gis a member of the extension of the second-order conceptequinumerous to FiffGis equinumerous toF

Now Hume's Principle is that the number of *F*s is identical to
the number of *G*s iff *F* and *G* are
equinumerous. We prove the biconditional in stages.

(→) Assume that the number of *P*s is identical to the
number of *Q*s. Then, by the definitions of ‘the number of
*P*s’ and ‘the number of *Q*s’, we know
that the extension of the concept *equinumerous to P* is
identical with the extension of the concept *equinumerous to* Q.
But it is a fact about equinumerosity that *P* is equinumerous
to *P*. So by the above Principle, the extension of the concept
*equinumerous to P* has *P* as a member. So, by
substitution of identicals, the extension of the concept
*equinumerous to Q* has *P* as a member. So *P*
is equinumerous to *Q*, by the above Principle.

(←) Assume *P* is equinumerous with *Q*. We want
to show that the number of *P*s is identical to the number of
*Q*s. So, by definition, we have to show that the extension of
the concept *equinumerous to P* is identical to the extension of
the concept *equinumerous to Q*. By the Principle of
Extensionality, then, we have to show that these two extensions have
the same members! So we pick an arbitrary concept *S* and show
that *S* is a member of the extension of the concept
*equinumerous to P* iff *S* is a member of the extension
of the concept *equinumerous to Q*.

(→) Assume

Sis a member of the extension of the conceptequinumerous to P(to show:Sis a member of the extension of the conceptequinumerous to Q). Then, by the above Principle,Sis equinumerous toP. So by the transitivity of equinumerosity (this is Fact 4 in the subsection on Equinumerosity in the main portion of the entry),Sis equinumerous toQ. So, by the above Principle,Sis in the extension of the conceptequinumerous to Q(←) Assume

Sis a member of the extension of the conceptequinumerous to Q(to show:Sis a member of the extension of the conceptequinumerous to P). ThenSis equinumerous toQ, by the above Principle. By the symmetry of equinumerosity (Fact 3 in the subsection on Equinumerosity), it follows thatQis equinumerous toS. So, given our hypothesis thatPis equinumerous toQ, it follows by the transitivity of equinumerosity, thatPis equinumerous toS. So, again by symmetry, we have:Sis equinumerous toP. And, by the above Principle, it followsSis in the extension of the conceptequinumerous to P.