#### Supplement to Frege's Theorem and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof of Fact 6 Concerning the Weak Ancestral

Fact 6 concerning the weak ancestral *R*^{+} of
*R* asserts:

Fact 6 (:R^{+})

R*(x,y) → ∃z[R^{+}(x,z) &Rzy]

To prove this, we shall appeal to Fact 3 concerning the ancestral
*R** of *R*:

Fact 3 (:R*)

[R*(x,y) & ∀u(Rxu→Fu) & Her(F,R)] →Fy,

for any concept *F* and objects *x* and *y*:

Now to prove Fact 6 (*R*^{+}), assume
*R**(*a*,*b*). We want to show:

∃z[R^{+}(a,z) &Rzb]

Notice that by λ-Conversion, it suffices to show:

[λw∃z[R^{+}(a,z) &Rzw]]b

Let us use ‘*P*’ to denote this concept under which
(we have to show) *b* falls. Notice that we could prove
*Pb* by instantiating Fact 3 (*R**) to *P*,
*a*, and *b* and establishing the antecedent of the
result. In other words, by Fact 3 (*R**), we know:

[R*(a,b) & ∀u(Rau→Pu) & Her(P,R)] →Pb

So if we can show the conjuncts of the antecedent, we are done. The first conjunct is already established, by hypothesis. So we have to show:

(1) ∀u(Rau→Pu)

(2) Her(P,R)

To see what we have to show for (1), we expand our defined notation and simplify by using λ-Conversion. Thus, we have to show:

(1) ∀u[Rau→ ∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzu)]

So assume *Rau*, to show
∃*z*(*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)
& *Rzu*). But it is an immediate consequence of the
definition of the weak ancestral *R*^{+} that
*R*^{+} is reflexive. (This is Fact 4 concerning the
weak ancestral, in Section 4, "The Weak Ancestral of *R*".) So
we may conjoin and conclude
*R*^{+}(*a*,*a*) &
*Rau*. From this, we may infer
∃*z*(*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*)
& *Rzu*), by existential generalization, which is what we
had to show.

To show (2), we have to show that *P* is hereditary on
*R*. If we expand our defined notation and simplify by using
λ-Conversion), then we have to show, for arbitrarily chosen
objects *x*,*y*:

(2)Rxy→ [∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzx) → ∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzy)]

So assume

(A)Rxy

(B) ∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzx)

to show:
∃*z*(*R*^{+}(*a*,*z*) &
*Rzy*). From (B), we know that there is some object, say
*d*, such that:

R^{+}(a,d) &Rdx

So, by Fact 3 about the weak ancestral (Section 4, "The Weak Ancestral
of *R*"), it follows that *R**(*a*,*x*),
from which it immediately follows that
*R*^{+}(*a*,*x*), by definition of
*R*^{+}. So, by conjoining (A), we have:

R^{+}(a,x) &Rxy.

But since *x* was arbitrarily chosen, it follows that:

∃z(R^{+}(a,z) &Rzy),

which is what we had to show.