#### Supplement to Frege's Theorem and Foundations for Arithmetic

## First Derivation of the Contradiction

[Note: We use ε*F* to
denote the extension of the concept *F*. We use the expression
‘*F*(ε*G*)’ to more clearly express the fact that
the extension of the concept *G* falls under *F*.]

The λ-expression which denotes the concept
*being the extension of a concept which you don't fall under* is

[λx∃F(x= εF& ¬Fx)]

As we saw in the text, we know that such a concept as this exists,
by the Comprehension Principle for Concepts. Let
‘*P*’ abbreviate this name of the concept. So
ε*P* exists, by the Existence of Extensions
principle. Now suppose *P*(ε*P*), i.e.,
suppose

[λx∃F(x= εF& ¬Fx)](εP)

Then, by the principle of λ-conversion, it follows that

∃F[εP= εF& ¬F(εP)]

Let *H* be an arbitrary such concept. So we know
the following about *H*

εP= εH& ¬H(εP)

Now given Law V, it follows from the first conjunct that
∀*x*(*Px* ≡ *Hx*). So since
¬*H*(ε*P*), it follows that
¬*P*(ε*P*), contrary to hypothesis.

Since (φ → ¬φ) → ¬φ, we have
¬*P*(ε*P*). But, now, by
λ-conversion, it follows that:

¬∃F[εP= εF& ¬F(εP)],

i.e.,

∀F[εP= εF→F(εP)]

But by instantiating this universal claim to *P*, it follows
from the self-identity of ε*P*
that *P*(ε*P*), contrary to
hypothesis.

Contradiction.