#### Supplement to Inductive Logic

## Tighter Bounds on the Margin of Error

If we want strong support for hypotheses claiming more than 99.9% of all ravens are black, the following extension of Table 1 applies.

Table 1.2:Values of lower boundpon the posterior probabilitym/n= 1

F[A,B] > .999Sample-Size = n

(number ofAs in Sample ofBs =m=n)Prior Ratio: K

↓400 800 1600 3200 6400 12800 25600 1 0.3305 0.5513 0.7985 0.9593 0.9983 1.0000 1.0000 2 0.1980 0.3805 0.6645 0.9219 0.9967 1.0000 1.0000 5 0.0899 0.1973 0.4421 0.8252 0.9918 1.0000 1.0000 10 0.0470 0.1094 0.2838 0.7023 0.9837 1.0000 1.0000 100 0.0049 0.0121 0.0381 0.1909 0.8578 0.9997 1.0000 1,000 0.0005 0.0012 0.0039 0.0231 0.3763 0.9973 1.0000 10,000 0.0000 0.0001 0.0004 0.0024 0.0569 0.9733 1.0000 100,000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0002 0.0060 0.7849 1.0000 1,000,000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0006 0.2674 1.0000 10,000,000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0000 0.0001 0.0352 0.9999 P[_{α}F[A,B] > .999 |b·F[A,S]=1 · Random[S,B,A] · Size[S]=n] ≥p, for a range of Sample-Sizesn(from 400 to 25600), when the prior probability of any specific frequency hypothesis outside the region between .999 and 1 is no more thanKtimes more than the lowest prior probability for any specific frequency hypothesis inside of the region between .999 and 1.

The lower right corner of the table shows that even when the
*vagueness* or *diversity* sets include support
functions with prior plausibilities up to *ten million* times
higher for hypotheses asserting frequency values below .999 than for
hypotheses making frequency claims between .999 and 1, a sample of
25600 black ravens will, nevertheless, pull the posterior plausibility
above .9999 that “the true frequency is over .999” for every support function in the set.