Supplement to Inductive Logic
Proof of the Falsification Theorem
Likelihood Ratio Convergence Theorem 1—The
Falsification Theorem:
Suppose the evidence stream c^{n} contains precisely m experiments or observations on which h_{j} is
not fully outcomecompatible with h_{i}. And suppose that the Independent Evidence Conditions hold for evidence stream c^{n} with respect to each of these hypotheses. Furthermore, suppose there is a lower bound δ > 0
such that for each c_{k} on which h_{j} is
not fully outcomecompatible with h_{i}, P[∨{ o_{ku} : P[o_{ku}  h_{j}·b·c_{k}] = 0}  h_{i}·b·c_{k}]
≥ δ—i.e. h_{i} (together with b·c_{k}) says, via a likelihood with value no smaller than δ, that one of the outcomes will occur that h_{j} says cannot occur). Then,
P[∨{ e^{n} : P[e^{n} h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] = 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}]
= P[∨{ e^{n} : P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}] = 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}]
≥ 1−(1−δ)^{m},
which approaches 1 for large m.
Proof
First notice that according to the supposition of the theorem, for each of the m experiments or observations c_{k} on which h_{j} is not fully outcomecompatible with h_{i} we have
(1−δ)  ≥  P[∨{o_{ku} : P[o_{ku}  h_{j}·b·c_{k}] > 0}  h_{i}·b·c_{k}] 
=  ∑{o_{ku}∈O_{k}: P[o_{ku}  h_{j}·b·c_{k}] > 0} P[o_{ku}  h_{i}·b·c_{k}]. 
And for each of the other c_{k} in the evidence stream c^{n}—i.e. for each of the c_{k} on which h_{j} is fully outcomecompatible with h_{i},
P[∨{o_{ku} : P[o_{ku}  h_{j}·b·c_{k}] > 0}  h_{i}·b·c_{k}] = 1.Then, we may iteratively decompose P[∨{e^{n} : P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}] > 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] into it's components as follows:
= ∑{e^{n}:P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}] > 0} P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] 
= ∑{e^{n}:P[e_{n}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}·c^{n−1}·e^{n−1}] ×
P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c_{n}·c^{n−1}]
> 0} P[e_{n}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}·c^{n−1}·e^{n−1}] × P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c_{n}·c^{n−1}] 
= ∑{e^{n}:P[e_{n}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}] × P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0} P[e_{n}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}] × P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] 
= ∑{e^{n}:P[e_{n}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}] > 0 & P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0} P[e_{n}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}] × P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] 
= ∑{e^{n−1}:
P[e^{n−1}  h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}]
> 0}
∑{o_{nu}∈O_{n}:P[o_{nu}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}]
> 0} P[o_{nu}  h_{i}·b·c_{n}] × P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] 
= ∑{e^{n−1}:
P[e^{n−1}  h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}]
> 0} P[∨{o_{nu}: P[o_{nu}  h_{j}·b·c_{n}] > 0}  h_{i}·b·c_{n}]
× P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}] 
≤ (1−γ) × ∑{e^{n−1}: P[e^{n−1}  h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0} P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}], 
if c_{n} is an observation on which h_{j} is not fully outcomecompatible with h_{i} 
or 
= ∑{e^{n−1}: P[e^{n−1}  h_{j}·b·c^{n−1}] > 0} P[e^{n−1}  h_{i}·b·c^{n−1}], 
if c_{n} is an observation on which h_{j} is fully outcomecompatible with h_{i} 
… 
continuining this process of decomposing terms of form ∑{e^{k}: P[e^{k}  h_{j}·b·c^{k}] > 0} P[e^{k}  h_{i}·b·c^{k}] (in each disjunct of the ‘or’ above, using the same decomposition process shown in the six lines preceding that disjunction), and realizing that according to the supposition of the theorem, this decomposition leads to terms of the form of the first disjunct exactly m times, we get 
… 
≤ 

So,
P[∨{e^{n} : P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}] = 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}]= 1 − P[∨{e^{n} : P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}] > 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] ≥ 1 − (1−γ)^{m}.
We also have,
P[∨{e^{n} :
P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] =
0} 
h_{i}·b·c^{n}]
= P[∨{e^{n} : P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}]
= 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}],
because
P[∨{e^{n} : P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] > 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}]
= ∑{e^{n}: P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}]/P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] > 0} P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] = ∑{e^{n}: P[e^{n}  h_{ j}·b·c^{n}] > 0 & P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] > 0} P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] = ∑{e^{n}: P[e^{n}  h_{ j}·b·c^{n}] > 0} P[e^{n}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}] = P[∨{e^{n} : P[e^{n}  h_{j}·b·c^{n}] > 0}  h_{i}·b·c^{n}].