Supplement to Moral Anti-Realism
Moral Anti-realism vs. Realism: Intuitions
It is widely assumed that commonsense intuitions favor moral realism, and thus that anti-realists bear the burden of proof. But neither this assumption nor its presumed implication is something to be accepted without careful consideration. Certainly nobody should claim as a general methodological principle that realism enjoys a prima facie advantage over anti-realism, for there are many things with respect to which we all want to be anti-realists, but for which we do not think this status has been achieved only after overcoming initial realist presumptions (e.g., anti-realism about unicorns). Rather, the thought must be that morality in particular is such that realism is the more intuitive position. But whether this thought is reasonable is debatable.
First: Do commonsense intuitions really favor moral realism? It seems probable that many of the distinctions drawn in distinguishing one metaethical option from another are too fine-grained and abstruse for the folk to have any determinate opinion. It is, for example, radically unclear to what extent common sense grants prima facie privilege to the mind-independent status of moral facts (properties, etc.). Even if empirical investigation of collective opinion were to locate strong intuitions in favor of a mind-independent morality (see, for example, Goodwin & Darley 2008), there may be other equally robust intuitions in favor of morality being mind-dependent. (For example, the fact that we are unwilling to defer to experts when forming moral views seems to count against realism; see McGrath 2008. Similarly, the fact that we do not expect a person necessarily to accept others' reasons for their moral views seems to reveal anti-realistic tendencies; see Foot 1958 for discussion.) Such an indecisive outcome may be due to human intuition having the ability to discriminate subtly different (in)dependence relations, or due to subjects' responses being subject to various kinds of framing effect in the experimental protocol (see, e.g., Kahneman and Tversky 1979; Horowitz 1998), or due simply to human intuitions being confused. Moreover, even if it could be shown that human intuition clearly and decisively embraces some kind of coarse-grained moral mind-independence, it may be that certain theoretical versions of mind-dependence, as described by philosophers, are sufficiently devious and obscure that they do not clash with that commonsense intuition. For example, although common sense certainly seems to be flatly at odds with any kind of crass individualistic relativistic non-objectivism according to which any individual's moral opinions (no matter how whimsical) determine the moral facts (for her), it is less obvious that common sense will reject a form of non-objectivism according to which the moral facts are determined by the opinions that would be formed by an impartial, fully reflective, fully informed (etc.) spectator. Given the difficulties in deciding and articulating just what kind of (in)dependence relation is relevant to the moral realism/anti-realism division, and given the range and potential subtlety of options, it would be rash to claim that common sense has a clear opinion one way or the other on this matter.
Second: It may be questioned whether intuitions decisively in favor of moral realism (if any there are) would constitute a burden of proof for the anti-realist. Certainly there seems something suspect about making it a methodological principle that if most people believe something there is a presumption in favor of the truth of that belief. (For advocacy of this principle for the moral realm, see Lycan 1988 and Huemer 2005. For criticism of the latter, see Joyce 2009a.) The fact that atheism is a minority position in every modern nation does not typically move the atheist to acknowledge a mark against her view. The fact that most people expect a rock dropped from the mast of a moving ship to land some distance behind the base of the mast plays no role in the physicist's calculations about where it will in fact land; the physicist has no prima facie obligation to make his theory mesh with intuition. Whether some kind of initial stock should be placed in favor of human intuition depends very much on how smart we antecedently expect humans to be, but this expectation alters for different domains. We don't expect ordinary people to be particularly insightful about the behavior of subatomic particles. As for religious views, wherever one stands (atheist, Hindu, Christian, scientologist, etc.) one must credit millions or billions of humans with radically false fundamental beliefs. (One might object that many religious belief systems are really unified—that Hinduism and Christianity, for example, are not contraries—but then there are millions or billions of humans who disagree with that.) Knowing that humans can be massively and systematically mistaken encourages the moral anti-realist to deny that popular opinion in favor of moral realism would constitute a burden he needs to overcome.
In wondering about what role should be accorded to widespread intuitions against a philosophical thesis, it is important to distinguish between the status of such intuitions ex ante and ex post. Suppose, if only for the sake of argument, that it is a reasonable methodological principle that, prior to considering any evidence or reflecting on the matter, a widespread intuition in favor of some view accords it some prima facie epistemological privilege. Suppose (again, for the sake of argument) that this is the case regarding moral realism. However, once the moral anti-realist has deployed, to his own satisfaction, some arguments in favor of his viewpoint, then he may consider himself to have discharged the burden, and the sociological fact that people continue to regard his view as counter-intuitive cannot be legitimately raised as an ongoing consideration against it. One way that this burden may be discharged is if the anti-realist is able to explain away what he takes to be the erroneous views of the folk. If he can provide a genealogy of moral beliefs—a genealogy that nowhere implies or presupposes that the beliefs in question are true—if, moreover, this genealogy can receive some empirical confirmation (for it will, after all, be an a posteriori matter)—then he will have discharged whatever ex ante burden he may have faced. (For this kind of genealogical debunking argument against moral realism, see Ruse 1986 and Street 2006. See also Joyce 2006, 2013.) The moral anti-realist position will continue to be counter-intuitive, but these ongoing intuitions no longer represent a consideration against the theory. If ever these intuitions did (ex ante) represent such a consideration, then in providing a genealogy of the kind in question the anti-realist will have answered the charge. The moral realist can, of course, raise objections to the anti-realist's argument—protesting, for example, that the genealogy in question is not consistent with falsehood in the way that the anti-realist claims it is. (See, for example, Wielenberg 2010; Brosnan 2011.) The point is, however, that this represents a shift in the dialectic; the moral realist is no longer merely citing the counter-intuitiveness of moral anti-realism as a consideration.
It can sometimes be difficult to distinguish ex ante matters from ex post. Consider John Mackie's moral error theory. Mackie holds that moral judgment is the result of the human tendency to “objectify” our parochial emotions and preferences, and through this process coming to see the world as containing evaluative properties which it does not in fact contain (Mackie 1977: 42-46). (Thus, Mackie is a moral projectivist, which is a thesis discussed at further length in supplement 3.1.) The important thing to note here about Mackie's notion of “objectification” is that it implies a thesis of moral phenomenology: It seems to someone who is making the moral judgment that she is responding to moral facts present in the external world (whereas in fact she is causally active in the generation of her moral experience). (See Joyce 2009b, 2010.) Given this thesis of moral phenomenology—that it is imbued with a quality of “out-there-ness”—and assuming (as seems plausible) that our moral intuitions will line up with our moral experience, it follows that the theory of moral objectification will be deemed counter-intuitive. But if the thesis of moral objectification is ex hypothesi counter-intuitive, then that counter-intuitiveness cannot be raised as a dialectic consideration against the theory. It is difficult to decide whether (i) this projectivist thesis indicates that the counter-intuitiveness of the moral error theory is not even an ex ante mark against the theory, or (ii) it's a case of the error theorist discharging that prima facie burden by presenting an argument to show that the folk will find the theory counter-intuitive. This delicate matter is not something to be pursued further here.
The question of whether something is a widespread intuition (within a specified group, or among humans in general) is an empirical matter. With respect to the intuitions relevant to the moral realism debate, such questions have not, by and large, been appropriately examined. (For initial investigations, see Goodwin & Darley 2008; Sarkissian et al. 2011.) On many crucial matters—matters that determine the difference between moral anti-realism being true or false—there may be no position enjoying the support of collective intuition; the issues may simply be too analytical and abstruse. But even if widespread intuitions were to be located, it is not at all obvious what methodological weight should be accorded them, especially in light of the fact that it is a corollary of certain anti-realist metaethical theories that erroneous intuitions will be prevalent.