#### Supplement to Non-wellfounded Set Theory

## Some basic definitions concerning measureable spaces

This supplement contains only those few definitions from measure theory which are needed in the main entry. It is mainly intended as a reminder for those who have seen the subject. Others will want to consult books on measure theory or analysis.

Let *M* be any set.
A *σ-algebra of subsets of M* is a collection of
subsets of *M* which contains *M*
itself as an element and is closed under complement and
countable union.
A *measurable space* is a pair *M* = (*M*, Σ),
where *M* is a
set and Σ is a σ-algebra of subsets of *M*.
The sets in Σ are called
*measurable sets* or *events*.
A *measure on M* is a function
*μ* : *Σ* → [0,∞]
which has the property that
if *S*_{0},
*S*_{1}, … *S*_{n},
…
is a
countable collection of pairwise disjoint sets,
then μ( ∪_{n}
*S*_{n})
= Σ_{n} μ(*S*_{n}).
The measure μ is a *probability measure* if μ(*M*) = 1.

For any space *M*,
let Δ(*M*) be the set of probability measures on *M*.
For any measurable set *E*, we define

Bp(E) = {μ ∈ Δ(M) : μ(E) ≥p}.

We want to specify a σ-algebra Σ^{*}
on the set Δ(*M*).
We take Σ^{*} to be the smallest σ-algebra containing
all sets of the form
B*p* (*E*)
for
*p*∈ [0,1] and *E*∈ Σ.
So (Δ(*M*), Σ^{*}) is a measurable space.

Given two measurable spaces *A* and *B*, the
*product
space*
*A*×*B* is the cartesian
product of the sets *A* and *B*, endowed with the σ-algebra
generated by the sets of the form
*E*×*F*, where *E* is measurable in *A* and
*F* is measurable in *B*.
For a subset
*E*⊆ *A*×*B*,
the *sections* of *E* are the sets:
*E*_{a}={*b*:(*a*,*b*) ∈ *E*}
and
*E*^{b}={*a*:(*a*,*b*) ∈ *E*}.
Each
section of a measurable subset of the product is measurable.

If μ is a
probability measure on *A* and ν a probability measure on *B*, we can
define the probability measure μ × ν on
*A*×*B*
by

(μ × ν)(E)= ∫ μ(E^{b})dν = ∫ ν(E_{a})dμ.

(Of course, this definition refers to the notion of *integration*.
We are not going to develop this topic here.)

Going in the other direction, a probability measure μ on
*A*×*B*
induces
via the projections, a measure on each of the factor spaces. These
measures are called *marginals*, and defined and denoted by

mar_{A}= μ ⋅ π_{A}^{-1}mar_{B}= μ ⋅ π_{B}^{-1}