#### Supplement to Quantum Logic and Probability Theory

## The Basic Theory of Ordering Relations

What follows is the briefest possible summary of the order-theoretic notions used in the main text. For a good introduction to this material, see Davey & Priestley [1990]. More advanced treatments can be found in Gratzer [1998] and Birkhoff [1967].

- 1. Ordered sets
- 2. Lattices
- 3. Ortholattices
- 4. Orthomodularity
- 5. Closure Operators, Interior Operators and Adjunctions

### 1. Ordered Sets

A *partial ordering*—henceforth, just an ordering—on a
set *P* is a reflexive, anti-symmetric, and transitive binary
relation ⊴ on
*P*. Thus, for all *p*, *q*, *r* ∈
*P*, we have

*p*⊴*p**p*⊴*q*and*q*⊴*p*only if*p*=*q*.- if
*p*⊴*q*and*q*⊴*r*then*p*⊴*r*

If *p* ⊴ *q*, we speak of *p* as being *less
than*, or *below* *q*, and of *q* as being
*greater than*, or *above* *p*, in the
ordering.

A *partially ordered set*, or *poset*, is a pair
(*P*, ⊴ )
where *P* is a set and
⊴
is a specified ordering on *P*. It is usual
to let *P* denote both the set and the structure, leaving
⊴
tacit wherever
possible. Any collection of subsets of some fixed set *X*,
ordered by set-inclusion, is a poset; in particular, the full power
set
℘(*X*) is
a poset under set inclusion.

Let *P* be a poset. The *meet*, or *greatest lower
bound*, of *p*, *q* ∈ *P*, denoted by
*p*∧*q*, is the greatest element of *P*—if there is one—lying below both *p* and *q*. The
*join*, or *least upper bound*, of *p* and
*q*, denoted by *p*∨*q*, is the least element
of *P*—if there is one—lying above both *p*
and *q*. Thus, for any
elements *p*, *q*, *r* of *P*, we have

- if
*r*⊴*p*∧*q*, then*r*⊴*p*and*r*⊴*q* - if
*p*∨*q*⊴*r*, then*p*⊴*r*and*q*⊴*r*

Note that *p*∧*p* = *p*∨*p* =
*p* for all *p* in *P*. Note also that
*p* ⊴ *q* iff *p*∧*q* =
*p* iff *p*∨*q* = *q*.

Note that if the set *P* =
℘(*X*),
ordered by set-inclusion, then *p*∧*q* =
*p*∩*q* and *p*∨*q* =
*p*∪*q*. However, if *P* is an arbitrary
collection of subsets of *X* ordered by inclusion, this need not
be true. For instance, consider the collection *P* of all
subsets of *X* = {1,2,...,*n*} having even cardinality.
Then, for instance,
{1,2}∨{2,3} does not exist in *P*, since there is no
*smallest* set of 4 elements of *X* containing {1,2,3}.
For a different sort of example, let *X* be a vector space and
let *P* be the set of *subspaces* of *X*. For
subspaces **M** and **N**, we have

M∧N=M∩N, butM∨N= span(M∪N).

The concepts of meet and join extend to infinite subsets of a poset
*P*. Thus, if *A*⊆*P*, the meet of *A*
is the largest element (if any) below *A*, while the join of
*A* is the least element (if any) above *A*. We denote
the meet of *A* by
∧*A* or by
∧_{a∈A} *a*.
Similarly, the join of *A* is denoted by
∨*A* or by
∨_{a∈A} *a*.

### 2. Lattices

A *lattice* is a poset (*L*, ⊴ ) in which every
pair of elements has both a meet and a join. A *complete
lattice* is one in which *every* subset of *L* has a
meet and a join. Note that
℘(*X*) is a complete lattice with respect to set
inclusion, as is the set of all subspaces of a vector space. The set of
finite subsets of an infinite set *X* is a lattice, but not a
complete lattice. The set of subsets of a finite set having an even
number of elements is an example of a poset that is not a lattice.

A lattice (*L*, ⊴ ) is *distributive* iff meets distribute over
joins and vice versa:

p∧ (q∨r) = (p∧q) ∨ (p∧r), and

p∨ (q∧r) = (p∨q) ∧ (p∨r).

The power set lattice
℘(*X*), for instance, is distributive (as is any
lattice of sets in which meet and join are given by set-theoretic
intersection and union). On the other hand, the lattice of subspaces of
a vector space is not distributive, for reasons that will become clear
in a moment.

A lattice *L* is said to be bounded iff it contains a
smallest element 0 and a largest element 1. Note that any complete
lattice is automatically bounded. For the balance of this appendix,
*all lattices are assumed to be bounded*, absent any indication
to the contrary.

A *complement* for an element *p* of a (bounded)
lattice *L* is another element *q* such that *p*
∧ *q* =
0 and *p*
∨
*q* = 1.

In the lattice
℘(*X*), every element has exactly one
complement, namely, its usual set-theoretic complement. On the other
hand, in the lattice of subspaces of a vector space, an element will
typically have infinitely many complements. For instance, if *L*
is the lattice of subspaces of 3-dimensional Euclidean space, then a
complement for a given plane through the origin is provided by any line
through the origin not lying in that plane.

Proposition:

IfLis distributive, an element ofLcan have at most one complement.

Proof:

Suppose thatqandrboth serve as complements forp. Then, sinceLis distributive, we have

q= q∧1= q∧ (p∨r)= ( q∧p) ∨ (q∧r)= 0 ∨ ( q∧r)= q∧rHence,

q⊴r. Symmetrically, we haver⊴q; thus,q=r.

Thus, no lattice in which elements have multiple complements is distributive. In particular, the subspace lattice of a vector space (of dimension greater than 1) is not distributive.

If a lattice *is* distributive, it may be that some of its
elements have a complement, while others lack a complement. A
distributive lattice in which every element has a complement is called
a *Boolean lattice* or a *Boolean algebra.* The basic
example, of course, is the power set
℘(*X*) of a
set *X*. More generally, any collection of subsets of *X*
closed under unions, intersections and complements is a Boolean
algebra; a theorem of Stone and Birkhoff tells us that, up to
isomorphism, every Boolean algebra arises in this way.

### 3. Ortholattices

In some non-uniquely complemented (hence, non-distributive)
lattices, it is possible to pick out, for each element *p*, a
preferred complement *p*′ in such a way that

- if
*p*⊴*q*then*q*′ ⊴*p*′ *p*′′ =*p*

When these conditions are satisfied, one calls the mapping
*p*→*p*′ an *orthocomplementation* on
*L*, and the structure (*L*, ⊴ ,′) an
*orthocomplemented lattice*, or an *ortholattice* for
short.

Note again that if a distributive lattice can be orthocomplemented
at all, it is a Boolean algebra, and hence can be orthocomplemented in
only one way. In the case of *L*(**H**) the
orthocomplementation one has in mind is **M** →
**M**^{⊥} where
**M**^{⊥} is defined as in Section 1 of the
main text. More generally, if **V** is any inner product
space (complete or not), let *L*(**V**) denote the
set of subspaces **M** of **V** such that
**M** = **M**^{⊥⊥} (such a
subspace is said to be algebraically closed). This again is a complete
lattice, orthocomplemented by the mapping **M** →
**M**^{⊥}.

### 4. Orthomodularity

There is a striking order-theoretic characterization of the lattice
of closed subspaces of a Hilbert space among lattices
*L*(**V**) of closed subspaces of more general
inner product spaces. An ortholattice *L* is said to be
orthomodular iff, for any pair *p*, *q* in *L*
with *p* ⊴ *q*,

(OMI) (q∧p′)∨p=q.

Note that this is a weakening of the distributive law. Hence, a
Boolean lattice is orthomodular. It is not difficult to show that if
**H** is a Hilbert space, then
*L*(**H**) is orthomodular. The striking converse
of this fact is due to Amemiya and Araki [1965]:

Theorem:

LetVbe an inner product space (overR,Cor the quaternions) such thatL(V) is orthomodular. ThenVis complete, i.e., a Hilbert space.

### 5. Closure Operators, Interior Operators and Adjunctions

Let *P* and *Q* be posets. A mapping
*f* : *P* → *Q* is *order
preserving* iff for all *p*,*q* ∈ *P*, if
*p* ⊴ *q* then *f*(*p*) ⊴ *f*(*q*).

A *closure* *operator* on a poset *P* is an
order-preserving map
**cl** : *P* → *P* such
that for all *p* ∈ *P*,

**cl**(**cl**(*p*)) =**cl**(*p*)*p*⊴**cl**(*p*).

Dually, an *interior operator* on *P* is an
order-preserving mapping
**int** : *P* → *P* on
*P* such that for all *p* ∈ *P*,

**int**(**int**(*p*)) =**int**(*p*)**int**(*p*) ⊴*p*

Elements in the range of **cl** are said to be
*closed*; those in the range of **int** are said to
be *open*. If *P* is a (complete) lattice, then the set
of closed, respectively open, subsets of *P* under a closure or
interior mapping is again a (complete) lattice.

By way of illustration, suppose that
O
and
C
are collections of
subsets of a set *X* with
O
closed under arbitrary unions and
C
under arbitrary
intersections. For any set *A* ⊆ *X*, let

cl(A) = ∩{C∈C |A⊆C}, and

int(A) = ∪{O∈O |O⊆A}

Then **cl** and **int** are interior
operators on
℘(*X*), for which the closed and open sets are
precisely
C
and
O, respectively.
The most familiar example, of course, is that in which
O,
C are the open and
closed subsets, respectively, of a topological space. Another important
special case is that in which
C
is the set of linear subspaces of a vector space
**V**; in this case, the mapping
*span* : ℘(**V**) →
℘(**V**)
sending each subset of **V** to its span is a
corresponding closure.

An *adjunction* between two posets *P* and *Q*
is an ordered pair (*f*, *g*) of mappings
*f* : *P* → *Q* and
*g* : *Q* → *P* connected by
the condition that, for all *p* ∈ *P*, *q*
∈ *Q*

f(p) ⊴qif and only ifp⊴g(q).

In this case, we call *f* a *left adjoint* for
*g*, and call *g* a *right adjoint* for
*f*. Two basic facts about adjunctions, both easily proved, are
the following:

Proposition:

Letf:L→Mbe an order-preserving map between complete latticesLandM. Then

fpreserves arbitrary joins if and only if it has a right adjoint.fpreserves arbitrary meets if and only if it has a left adjoint.

Proposition:

Let (f,g) be an adjunction between complete latticesLandM. Then

g○f:L→Lis a closure operator.f○g:M→Mis an interior operator.