Notes to Intrinsic vs. Extrinsic Value

1. Plato, Protagoras, 353e.

2. Plato, Timaeus, 69d.

3. Plato, Republic, 402e.

4. Plato, Philebus, 60e.

5. Aristotle, Nicomachean Ethics, 1153b.

6. Epicurus 1926. This formulation of hedonism is rough, since hedonists often allow for the intrinsic goodness and badness of things other than, but containing, pleasure and pain (things such as lives and worlds, for example).

7. Bentham 1789, Sidgwick 1907.

8. Mill 1863.

9. Frankena 1973, pp. 87–88.

10. Cf. Aristotle, Nicomachean Ethics, 1094a.

11. Although this is how the term “intrinsic value” is often understood, it has been understood in other ways, too. Sometimes it appears to be used simply as a synonym of “nonderivative value” after all. Also, at one point G. E. Moore uses it to refer to any kind of value that supervenes solely on the intrinsic nature of the value-bearer. See Moore 1922, p. 260.

12. Moore 1903, ch. 1.

13. Again, this is to put matters only roughly. See n. 6 above.

14. Moore 1912, p. 102.

15. Moore 1903, pp. 15–16.

16. Chisholm 1978.

17. Bodanszky and Conee 1981.

18. Chisholm 1981.

19. Brentano 1969, p. 18; Broad 1930, p. 283; Ross 1939, pp. 275–76; Ewing 1948, p. 152.

20. Blanshard 1961, pp. 284–86.

21. Ewing 1948, pp. 157 and 172. Cf. Lemos 1994, p. 19.

22. Scanlon 1998, pp. 95 ff.

23. Cf. Olson 2006.

24. Blanshard 1961, pp. 287 ff. Cf. Lemos 1994, p. 18.

25. Rabinowicz and Rønnow-Rasmussen 2004, pp. 402 ff.

26. Kant 1785, Ak. 1–3.

27. Kant 1785, Ak. 64 and 77.

28. Kant could avoid this implication only by positing the existence of something infinitely bad whose value would counterbalance that of rational beings, or by denying that the value of our world is proportional to that of its contents. He nowhere indicates that he is prepared to make either move.

29. Kant, Lectures in Ethics.

30. Cf. Anderson 1993.

31. Cf. Bradley 2006.

32. Hobbes 1651, Hume 1739.

33. Hägerström 1953.

34. Ayer 1946, Stevenson 1944.

35. Hare 1952.

36. Blackburn 1984, Gibbard 1990.

37. Dewey 1922.

38. Beardsley 1965. Cf. Conee 1982.

39. Korsgaard 1983.

40. Beardsley 1965.

41. Kagan 1998.

42. Cf. Rabinowicz and Rønnow-Rasmussen 1999 and 2003.

43. Korsgaard 1983, p. 185.

44. Rønnow-Rasmussen 2002 pursues the implications of this distinction in detail.

45. Geach 1956. Geach does not in fact identify Moore by name but aims his criticism at those he calls “moral philosophers known as Objectivists.”

46. Thomson 1997.

47. Foot 1985.

48. Zimmerman 2001, ch. 2.

49. Butchvarov 1989, pp. 14–15.

50. Chisholm 1968–69, 1972, 1975.

51. Ross 1930, pp. 112–13. Cf. Lemos 1994, ch. 2.

52. This view is discussed but not endorsed in Rabinowicz and Rønnow-Rasmussen 2003.

53. Cf. Zimmerman 2001, ch. 3.

54. Cf. Zimmerman 2001, ch. 3.

55. Cf. Rabinowicz and Rønnow-Rasmussen 1999 and 2003.

56. Cf. Bradley 2006.

57. Rachels 1998; Temkin 1987, 1997.

58. Ross 1939, p. 275.

59. Plato, Philebus, 21a-e; Aristotle, Nicomachean Ethics, 1174a.

60. Mill 1863, paras. 4 ff.

61. Parfit 1984, Part IV.

62. Berlin 1969.

63. Cf. Chang 1997, 2002.

64. Moore 1903, p. 96.

65. Moore 1903, p. 28.

66. Ross 1930, p. 72.

67. Broad 1985, p. 256.

68. Chisholm 1986, ch. 7; Lemos 1994, chs. 3 and 4, and 1998; Hurka 1998.

69. Brentano 1969, p. 23 n.

70. Chisholm 1986, ch. 5.

71. Dancy 2000.

72. Harman 1967.

73. Quinn 1974, Chisholm 1975, Oldfield 1977, Carlson 1997.

74. Feldman 2000. Cf. also Feldman 1997, pp. 116–18.

75. Zimmerman 2001, ch. 5.

76. Cf. Bradley 1998.

77. Lewis 1946, p. 391. Cf. Frankena 1973, p. 82.

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Michael J. Zimmerman <m_zimme2@uncg.edu>

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