#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Rubinstein's Proof

[Note: See Definition 3.2 for the notation used in this proof.]

Let *T*_{2} denote the number of messages that
Joanna's e-mail system sends, and *T*_{1} denote the
number of messages that Lizzi's e-mail system sends. We might suppose
that *T*_{i} appears on each agent's computer
screen. If *T*_{1} = 0, then Lizzi sends no message,
that is, ω_{1} has occurred, in which case Lizzi's unique
best response is to choose *A*. If *T*_{2} = 0,
then Joanna did not receive a message. She knows that in this case,
either ω_{1} has occurred and Lizzi did not send her a
message, which occurs with probability .51, or ω_{2} has
occurred and Lizzi sent her a message which did not arrive, which
occurs with probability .49ε. If ω_{1} has
occurred, then Lizzi is sure to choose *A*, so Joanna knows that
whatever Lizzi might do at ω_{2},

E(u_{2}(A) |T_{2}=0)≥

2(.51) + 0(.49)ε .51 + .49ε >

−4(.51) + 2(.49)ε .51 + .49ε ≥ E(u_{2}(B) |T_{2}=0 )

so Joanna is strictly better off choosing A no matter what Lizzi does at either state of the world.

Suppose next that for all *T*_{i} < *t*,
each agents' unique best response given her expectations regarding the
other agent is *A*, so that the unique Nash equilibrium of the
game is (*A*,*A*). Assume that *T*_{1} =
*t*. Lizzi is uncertain whether *T*_{2} =
*t*, which is the case if Joanna received Lizzi's
*t*^{th} automatic confirmation and Joanna's
*t*^{th} confirmation was lost, or if
*T*_{2} = *t* − 1, which is the case if
Lizzi's *t*^{th} confirmation was lost. Then

μ _{1}(T_{2}=t−1 |T_{1}=t)= z=

ε ε + (1−ε)ε > ½. ^{[1]}

Thus it is more likely that Lizzi's last confirmation did not arrive
than that Joanna did receive this message. By the inductive assumption,
Lizzi assesses that Joanna will choose *A* if
*T*_{2} = *t*−1. So

E(u_{1}(B) |T_{1}=t)≤ −4 z+ 2(1−z)= −6 z+ 2< −3 + 2 = −1,

and

E(u_{1}(A) |T_{1}=t) = 0

since Lizzi knows that ω_{2} is the case. So Lizzi's
unique best action is *A*. Similarly, one can show that
*A* is Joanna's best reply if *T*_{2} =
*t*. So by induction, (*A*,*A*) is the unique Nash
equilibrium of the game for every *t* ≥ 0.

Peter Vanderschraaf <

*pvanderschraaf@gmail.com*>

Giacomo Sillari <

*gsillari@sas.upenn.edu*>