Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
This is a file in the archives of the Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy.

Wilfrid Sellars

First published Sat Feb 22, 1997; substantive revision Mon Jun 8, 2009

Wilfrid Stalker Sellars (b. 1912, d. 1989) was a profoundly creative and synthetic thinker whose work both as a systematic philosopher and as an influential editor helped set and shape the Anglo-American philosophical agenda for over four decades. Sellars is perhaps best known for his classic 1956 essay “Empiricism and the Philosophy of Mind”, a comprehensive and sophisticated critique of “the myth of the given” which played a major role in the postwar deconstruction of Cartesianism, but his published corpus of three books and more than one hundred essays includes numerous original contributions to ontology, epistemology, and the philosophies of science, language, and mind, as well as sensitive historical and exegetical studies.

1. Sellars' Life and Career

2. Sellars' Metaphilosophy

Although Wilfrid Sellars is best known for his his ground-breaking essay “Empiricism and the Philosophy of Mind” [EPM] and his critique of what he there called “the myth of the given”, he was in fact a systematic philosopher par excellence. “The aim of philosophy,” he wrote, “is to understand how things in the broadest possible sense of the term hang together in the broadest possible sense of the term” (PSIM, 37). This image of the philosopher as a reflective generalist recurs frequently in Sellars' metaphilosophical reflections. His most explicit account of the central task confronting contemporary philosophy aligns it firmly with the modernist project of achieving a rapprochement between our humanistic understanding of ourselves as free and rational agents, at home among meanings and values, and the thoroughly “disenchanted” picture of the world being painted by an increasingly comprehensive natural science. Sellars thematized this contrast as a confrontation of two “images”: the “manifest image” whose primary objects are persons, beings who can and do conceive of themselves as sentient perceivers, cognitive knowers, and deliberative agents, and the “scientific image”, whose primary entities are some sophisticated version of “atoms in the void”. “The scientific image,” Sellars wrote, “presents itself as a rival image. From its point of view the manifest image on which it [methodologically] rests is an ‘inadequate’ but pragmatically useful likeness of a reality which first finds its adequate (in principle) likeness in the scientific image” (PSIM, 57). As Sellars saw it, the goal of philosophy was to transform this tension between our lived self-conception and our hard won explanatory understanding of the world into a single “stereoscopic” image, a synoptic vision of persons-in-the-world. Much of his philosophical work is addressed to three central moments of this complex undertaking: accommodating the intentional contents of thought and language, the sensuous contents of perception and imagination, and the normative dimensions of knowledge and conduct within such a stereoscopic image — all the while resolutely maintaining a robust scientific realism, for “in the dimension of describing and explaining the world, science is the measure of all things, of what is that it is, and of what is not that it is not” (EPM, 173).

3. Sellars' Philosophy of Science and Epistemology

Sellars' interpretation of the epistemology of natural science departed decisively from the received view according to which explanation was identified with derivation — singular matters of empirical fact being explained by deriving descriptions of them from (“inductively” established) empirical generalizations (along with appropriate statements of initial conditions), and these “empirical laws” in turn being explained by deriving them from theoretical postulates and correspondence rules. On this received Positivist view, theories (e.g., microtheories) explain empirical matters of fact only indirectly, by implying generalizations framed in an observation-language that explain them directly. In consequence, as Hempel pointed out in “The Theoretician's Dilemma”, such theories, although perhaps convenient aids to calculation and compact representation, are in principle utterly dispensable.

Sellars regarded this “layer-cake model” or “levels picture” of theories as fundamentally misguided. He argued that there is no autonomous stratum of empirical counterparts to theoretical laws. The empirical generalizations corresponding to theoretical laws become salient only from the theoretical perspective. Generalizations arrived at autonomously at the observational level, however reliable, are not laws of nature, and theories consequently cannot be in the business of explaining such lower-level generalizations by entailing them. Rather, “theories explain laws by explaining why the objects of the domain in question obey the laws that they do to the extent that they do” (LT, 123).

[That is,] they explain why individual objects of various kinds and in various circumstances in the observation framework behave in those ways in which it has been inductively established that they do behave. Roughly, it is because a gas is ... a cloud of molecules which are behaving in certain theoretically defined ways, that it obeys the empirical Boyle-Charles Law. (LT, 121)

On Sellars' view stories that postulate “theoretical entities” are not merely manageable second-class surrogates for more complicated and unwieldy stories about entities that we have good, i.e., observational, reasons to believe actually exist. Theoretical entities, rather, are those entities we warrantedly believe to exist for good and sufficient theoretical reasons. On this understanding, scientific theories explanatorily “save the appearances” precisely by characterizing the reality of which the appearances are appearances.

Like Quine, Sellars was deeply influenced by the work of Rudolf Carnap. Sellars' sophisticated account of the nature and import of theoretical reasoning in natural science, however, enabled him to develop a systematic naturalistic alternative to Quine's influential critique of Carnapian logical empiricism. In particular, the epistemological contrast between two sorts of empirical generalizations — those adopted on narrowly inductive grounds and those expressing constitutive principles of postulational theories adopted on broadly empirical, i.e., explanatory grounds — enabled Sellars to distinguish among three different grades of “observational involvement”: observations and general claims individually validated “inductively” by way of direct appeals to observational backing, the constitutive posits of postulational theories holistically validated by way of indirect, explanatory appeals to observational backing, and purely formal claims expressing necessary conditions for the formulation of scientific hypotheses in general. Consequently, where Quine rejected the classical Kantian analytic-synthetic dichotomy out of hand, Sellars argued that there were two quite different distinctions tangled up in the single dichotomy that Carnap had inherited from the Kantian tradition: the distinction between logical and empirical (matter-of-factual) claims (analytic2-synthetic2), and the distinction between claims whose revision requires abandonment or modification of the system of (theoretical) concepts in terms of which they are framed and claims revisable on the basis of observations formulated in terms of a system of (theoretical) concepts which remained fixed throughout (analytic1-synthetic1). Like Quine, then, Sellars moved decisively away from classical Kantian rationalism, but in the direction of a Kantian empiricism which preserved logical space for a theory of semantic meaning and the correlative distinctions between individual matter-of-factual truths and truths which, although belonging to theoretical systems themselves adopted on broadly empirical (synthetic2) grounds, were, relative to such a system, true ex vi terminorum (analytic1):

Kant's Rationalism

Grounded in experience
(“a posteriori”, simple induction)
Not so grounded
(“a priori”)
Empirical Laws 
Arithmetic, Geometry, Mechanics
(“synthetic a priori”)
“Our conceptual framework” (innate principles)

Kantian Empiricism

Grounded in experience (Empirical)
Not so grounded
Analytic2 (L-true)
Observation, Simple Induction 
(Operational geometry, mechanics)
(Physical geometry, idealizing scientific theories, mechanics, micro-physics)
Logic, arithmetic, mathematical analysis
(Pure geometry qua calculus)
“Our conceptual framework”:
Material (empirical) categories
Formal (ontological) categories

4. Sellars' Philosophy of Language and Mind

Essential to Sellars' thoroughgoing naturalism is an account of semantic meaning that requires no recourse to irreducibly platonistic or mentalistic idioms. Sellars consequently resolutely locates the normative conceptual order within the causal order and advances a naturalistic interpretation of the modes of causality exercised by linguistic rules centered on the notion of pattern-governed behavior, i.e.:

behavior which exhibits a pattern, not because it is brought about by the intention that it exhibit this pattern, but because the propensity to emit behavior of the pattern has been selectively reinforced, and the propensity to emit behavior which does not conform to this pattern selectively extinguished. (MFC, 423)

Pattern-governed behavior characteristic of a species — e.g., the dance of the bees — can arise from processes of natural selection on an evolutionary time scale, but, crucially, pattern-governed behavior can also be developed in individual “trainees” by deliberate selective reinforcement on the part of other individuals, the trainers, acting under the guidance of linguistic rules of criticism. In contrast to linguistic rules of action, e.g., “Ceteris paribus, one ought to (or: may) say such and such if in circumstances C”, which can be efficacious in guiding linguistic activity only to the extent that their subjects already possess the concepts of “saying such-and-such”, “being in circumstances C”, and, indeed, obeying a rule (i.e., doing something because it is enjoined or permitted by a rule), rules of criticism are ought-to-be's — e.g., “Westminster clock chimes ought to strike on the quarter hour” (LTC, 95) — whose subjects, although their performances may be assessed according to such rules, need not themselves have the concept of a rule nor, indeed, any concepts at all. Thus a trainer can be construed as reasoning

Patterned-behavior of such and such a kind ought to be exhibited by trainees, hence we, the trainers, ought to do this and that, as likely to bring it about that it is exhibited. (MFC, 423)

And, in consequence of the conducts of trainers under the guidance of such rules of action, the behavior of a language-learner can come to conform to the relevant rules of criticism without his “grasping” them himself in any other sense. “Trainees conform to ought-to-be's because trainers obey corresponding ought-to-do's” (MFC, 423).

Against this background, then, Sellars advanced an account of meaning as functional classification according to which semantic idioms in the first instance mark contexts within which structurally distinct “natural-linguistic objects” (e.g., utterings or inscribings) are classified in terms of their roles or functions in language entry transitions (linguistic responses to perceptual stimuli), language exit transitions (causal-linguistic antecedents of non-linguistic conduct), and intra-linguistic moves (inferential transitions from one linguistic representing to another). In particular, ‘means’ is interpreted as a specialized form of the copula, tailored to metalinguistic contexts, according to which the right side of the superficially relational form “___ means …” is properly understood as mentioning or exhibiting a linguistic item.

On Sellars' view, such special copulae and metalinguistic indicators initially arise in response to the need to abstract from our domestic sign designs in order to classify items of different languages on the basis of such functional criteria. In this project, ordinary quotation suffers from a systematic ambiguity regarding the criteria — structural (e.g., geometric, acoustic) or functional — according to which linguistic tokens are classifiable as belonging to this or that linguistic type. Accordingly, Sellars introduced a more straightforward device of two separate styles of quotation marks, star-quotes and dot-quotes, tied respectively to the structural and functional modes of sorting and individuating lexical items. Both star- and dot-quotes are illustrating, and thus indexical, devices, but dot-quotes are, in a sense, doubly so. For, whereas star-quotes form a common noun that is true of inscriptions (empirical structures) appropriately design-isomorphic to the token exhibited between them, dot-quotes form a common noun true of items in any language that play the role or do the job performed in our language by the tokens exhibited between them. In terms of this notational apparatus, then, such semantic claims as, for example,

(1s) (In German) ‘rot’ means red.
(2s) (In German) ‘Schnee ist weiss’ means snow is white.

can be more perspicuously expressed by

(1*) (In the German linguistic community) *rot*s are .red.s.
(2*) (In the German linguistic community) *Schnee ist weiss*s are .snow is white.s.

Once such a distinction between functional and structural classification of linguistic representing items is in hand, it is a straightforward matter to extend it to an account of mental representations, i.e., thoughts, as well. Unlike Quine, Sellars never abandoned the classical notion of thoughts as intentional inner episodes that play a causal-explanatory role vis-à-vis overt, paradigmatically linguistic, behavior. Consistent with his thoroughgoing naturalism, however, correlative to his ontological “linguistic nominalism”, Sellars embraced a form of “psychological nominalism”, whose leitmotif was

… the denial of the claim, characteristic of the realist tradition, that a “perception” or “awareness” of abstract entities is the root mental ingredient of mental acts and dispositions. (EAE, 445)

Instead, Sellars argued, the proper account of the distinctive intentionality of thought is also to be drawn in terms of the forms and functions of natural linguistic items. The positive thesis correlative to psychological nominalism, consequently, is modeled by what Sellars came to call “verbal behaviorism”.

According to VB [verbal behaviorism], thinking ‘that-p,’ where this means ‘having the thought occur to one that-p,’ has as its primary sense [an event of] saying ‘p’; and a secondary sense in which it stands for a short term proximate propensity [dispositional] to say ‘p’. (MFC, 419)

The origins of Sellars' mature forms of verbal behaviorism lie in the revolutionary theses of his classic essay “Empiricism and the Philosophy of Mind”, and, in particular, in his mythical story of our Rylean ancestors and the genius Jones. The story begins in medias res with people who have mastered a “Rylean language”, a sophisticated expressive system, including logical operators and subjunctive conditionals, whose fundamental descriptive vocabulary pertains to public spatio-temporal objects. Consonant with the Sellarsian account of linguistic meaning as functional classification, this hypothetical Rylean language, although lacking any resources for speaking of inner episodes, thoughts or experiences has been enriched by the fundamental resources of semantical discourse — enabling our ancestors to say of the their peers' utterances that they mean this or that, that they stand in various logical relations to one another, that they are true or false, and so on. In this milieu now appears the genius Jones.

[In] the attempt to account for the fact that his fellow men behave intelligently not only when their conduct is threaded on a string of overt verbal episodes … but also when no detectable verbal output is present, Jones develops a theory according to which overt utterances are but the culmination of a process which begins with certain inner episodes… . [His] model for these episodes which initiate the events which culminate in overt verbal behavior is that of overt verbal behavior itself. (EPM, 186)

Although the primary use of semantical terms remains the semantical characterization of overt verbal episodes, this Jonesean theory thus carries over the applicability of those semantical categories to its postulated inner episodes. i.e., to (occurrent) thoughts. The point of the Jonesean myth is to suggest that the epistemological status of thoughts (qua inner episodes) vis-à-vis candid public verbal performances is most usefully understood as analogous to the epistemological status of, e.g., molecules vis-à-vis the public observable behavior of gases.

[Thought] episodes are ‘in’ language-using animals as molecular impacts are ‘in’ gases, not as ‘ghosts’ are in ‘machines’. (EPM, 187)

Unlike molecules, however, which are introduced into kinetic gas theory as having a specific empirical character (represented by the posited essentially Newtonian lawfulness of their dynamic interactions), the thought episodes postulated by that theory as covert states of persons are introduced by a purely functional analogy. The concept of an occurrent thought is that of a causally-mediating logico-semantic role player, whose determinate empirical/ontological character, and thereby logical space for some form of “identity theory” is so far left open.

[The] fact that [thoughts] are not introduced as physiological entities does not preclude the possibility that at a later methodological stage they may, so to speak, ‘turn out’ to be such. Thus, there are many who would say that it is already reasonable to suppose that these thoughts are to be ‘identified’ with complex events in the cerebral cortex … (EPM, 187–8)

Since, on Sellars' account, the concept of a thought is fundamentally the concept of a functional kind, no ontological tensions would be generated by the identification within the scientific image of items belonging to that functional kind with, for instance, states and episodes of an organism's central nervous system. The manifest image's conception of person as thinkers, Sellars concludes, can fuse smoothly with the scientific image's conception of persons as complex material organisms having a determinate physiological and neurological structure.

The idea that the intentionality of the mental is to be understood in terms of epistemologically theoretical transpositions of the semantic categories of public language, themselves interpreted as modes of functional classification earn Sellars a definitive place in contemporary analytic philosophy of mind. As Dennett puts it,

Thus was contemporary functionalism in the philosophy of mind born, and the varieties of functionalism we have subsequently seen are in one way or another enabled, and directly or indirectly inspired, by what was left open in Sellars' initial proposal … (Dennett 1987, 341)

Sellars' proposal that we can illuminate the epistemic status of mental concepts by an appeal to the contrast between theoretical and non-theoretical discourse makes sense only against the background of another central element of his philosophical thought, his comprehensive critique of the “myth of the given”. The philosophical framework of givenness historically takes on many guises, including not only the idea that empirical knowledge rests on a foundation, but also, crucially, the assumption that the “privacy” of the mental and one's “privileged access” to one's own mental states are fundamental features of experience, both logically and epistemologically prior to all intersubjective concepts pertaining to inner episodes.

Sellars argues, on the contrary, that what begins in the case of inner episodes as a language with a purely theoretical use can acquire a first-person reporting role. It can turn out to be possible to train people, in essence by a process of operant conditioning, to have “privileged access” to some of their inner episodes, that is, to respond directly and non-inferentially to the occurrence of one thought with another (meta-) thought to the effect that one is thinking it. It is a special virtue of this aspect of Sellars' Jonesean story that it shows how the essential intersubjectivity of language can be reconciled with the “privacy” of inner episodes, i.e.,

… that it helps us understand that concepts pertaining to such inner episodes as thoughts are primarily and essentially inter-subjective, as inter-subjective as the concept of a positron, and that the [first-person] reporting role of these concepts … constitutes a dimension of [their] use … which is built on and presupposes this inter-subjective status. (EPM, 189)

At the heart of Sellars' general case against the Myth of the Given is his articulate recognition of the irreducibly normative character of epistemic discourse.

The essential point is that in characterizing an episode or a state as that of knowing, we are not giving an empirical description of that episode or state, we are placing it in the logical space of reasons, of justifying and being able to justify what one says. (EPM, 169)

Once it is acknowledged that the senses per se grasp no facts, that all knowledge that something is such-and-so (all “subsumption of particulars under universals”) presupposes learning, concept formation, and even symbolic representation, it follows that “… instead of coming to have a concept of something because we have noticed that sort of thing, to have the ability to notice a sort of thing is already to have the concept of that sort of thing, and cannot account for it.” (EPM, 176)

Sellars follows Kant in rejecting the Cartesian picture of a sensory-cognitive continuum. The “of-ness” of sensations — e.g., a sensation's being of a red triangle or of a sharp shooting pain — he insists, is not the intentional “of-ness” (“aboutness”) of thoughts. The “rawness” of “raw feels” is rather their non-conceptual character (cf. IAMBP, 376). Consequently, while his epistemological views regarding sensory episodes parallel his treatment of the epistemology of occurrent thoughts, Sellars' account of the ontology of sensations diverges dramatically from his functionalist account of thoughts.

In a final episode of the Jonesean myth, sensations are introduced as elements of an explanatory account of the occurrence in various circumstances of perceptual cognitions, having determinate semantic contents:

… the hero … postulates a class of inner — theoretical — episodes which he calls, say, impressions, and which are the end results of the impingement of physical objects and processes on various parts of the body… (EPM,191)

This time, however, the model for Jones' theory is not that of functionally-individuated families of sentences, but rather “a domain of ‘inner replicas’ which, when brought about in standard conditions share the perceptible characteristics of their physical sources” (EPM, 191). The leading idea of this model is the occurrence, ‘in’ perceivers of “replicas” per se, not of perceivings of “replicas” (which would mistakenly inject into the account of impressions the intentionality of thought), and, although the entities of this model are particulars, the entities introduced by the theory are not particulars but rather states of a perceiving subject. Thus, although talk of the “of-ness” of sensations, like that of the “of-ness” of thoughts is, on Sellars' view, fundamentally classificatory, the classification at issue is based not on a functional (logical, semantic) analogy but rather on analogies that, although in the first instance extrinsic and causal, ultimately attribute to sensations a determinate intrinsic content. The specific point of the model is to insist that states of, e.g., sensing [red triangle]ly (to highlight the status of ‘sensation’ as a “verbal noun”), characteristically brought about in normal perceivers in standard conditions by the action of red triangular objects on the eyes, can discharge their explanatory jobs in relation to cognitive perceptual takings (especially non-veridical perceptual judgments) only if they are conceived as resembling and differing from other sensory states — e.g., sensing [green triangular]ly, sensing [red square]ly, etc. — in a manner formally analogous to the way in which objects of the “replica” model — e.g., red and triangular, green and triangular, and red and square “wafers” — are conceived to resemble and differ from one another.

If that were the end of Sellars' ontological story regarding sensations, matters would be complicated enough. But Sellars proceeds to develop this core account in a variety of different directions, in consequence of which his full theory of sensations has emerged as being one of the most difficult and controversial aspects of his philosophy.

The first complication of Sellars' theory of sensation results from his conviction that, in the case of sensations, Jones' theory is interpretive. It does not introduce new domains of entities, but rather reinterprets the categorial/ontological status of sensory contents as states of perceivers. The crux of the original Jonesean theory that the very color quanta of which we are perceptually aware as existing in space are instead actually states of persons-qua-perceivers. Already within the manifest image, then, the ontological status ultimately accorded to sensory “content qualia” is incompatible with their being instantiated in physical space.

The second complication of Sellars' theory of sensations arises from the further conclusion that it is this manifest image conception of sensory contents as states of perceivers which must ultimately be synoptically “fused” with the scientific image, and that the latter's commitment to the idea that those perceivers themselves are complex systems of micro-physical particles constitutes a barrier to doing so in any straightforward way. Sellars notoriously concludes that sensory contents can be synoptically integrated into the scientific image only after both they and the currently-fundamental micro-physical particulars of that image as well undergo yet another categorial transposition into a categorially monistic ontology whose fundamental entities are all “absolute processes”. Sensings qua absolute processes would then be physical, he writes,

… not only in the weak sense of not being mental (i.e., conceptual), for they lack intentionality, but in the richer sense of playing a genuine causal role in the behavior of sentient organisms. They would, as I have used the terms, be physical-l but not physical-2. Not being epiphenomenal, they would conform to a basic metaphysical intuition: to be is to make a difference. (CL, III, 126)

5. A Final Remark

Lengthy as this discussion has been, it only begins to capture the scope, depth, and systematic character of Sellars' philosophical accomplishments. Many themes from his work have simply gone unmentioned — his anticipation of epistemological externalism and defense of a strong internalist alternative, his insightful analysis of predication and correlative nominalistic alternative to classical Platonistic categorial ontology, his sophisticated account of induction as a form of vindicatory practical reasoning, his significant contributions to ethical theory and the theory of action, and his masterful interpretations of the work of many of the discipline's great historical figures, not as scholarly museum exhibits, but always as active participants in a continuing philosophical conversation. The bibliographies and Internet resources listed below will point the way to both more comprehensive and more detailed accounts of the work of this towering philosophical figure of the postwar era.

6. Principal Works by Wilfrid Sellars


Selected Essays

[AAE] “Actions and Events”, Noûs 7, 1973, pp. 179–202.
[AE] “Abstract Entities”, Review of Metaphysics 16, 1983; reprinted in [PP], pp. 229–69.
[CDCM] “Counterfactuals, Dispositions, and the Causal Modalities”, in Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science, Vol. II, ed. by H. Feigl, M. Scriven, and G. Maxwell, (University of Minnesota Press; Minneapolis, MN: 1957), pp. 225–308.
[CL] “Foundations for a Metaphysics of Pure Process”, The Carus Lectures for 1977–78, published in The Monist 64, No. 1, 1981.
[EAE] “Empiricism and Abstract Entities”, in The Philosophy of Rudolph Carnap, ed. by P.A. Schilpp (Open Court; LaSalle, IL; 1963); reprinted in [EPH], pp. 245–86.
[EPM] “Empiricism and the Philosophy of Mind”, in The Foundations of Science and the Concepts of Psychoanalysis, Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science, Vol. I, ed. by H. Feigl and M. Scriven (University of Minnesota Press; Minneapolis, MN; 1956); reprinted in [SPR], pp. 127–96).
[FD] “Fatalism and Determinism”, in Keith Lehrer, ed., Freedom and Determinism, (Random House; New York, NY: 1966), pp. 141–74.
[GEC] “Givenness and Explanatory Coherence”, Journal of Philosophy 70, 1973, pp. 612–24.
[I] “…this I or he or it (the thing) which thinks”, the 1970 Presidential Address, American Philosophical Association (Eastern Division), reprinted in [EPH].
[IAMBP] “The Identity Approach to the Mind-Body Problem”, Review of Metaphysics 18, 1965; reprinted in [PP], pp. 370–88.
[IKTE] “The Role of Imagination in Kant's Theory of Experience”, The 1977 Dotterer Lecture, in H.W. Johnstone, Jr., ed., Categories: A Colloquium, (Pennsylvania State University Press: 1977), pp. 231–45.
[IV] “Induction as Vindication”, Philosophy of Science 31, 1964; reprinted in [EPH], pp. 367–416.
[ISRT] “Is Scientific Realism Tenable”, Proceedings of the PSA, Volume 2, 1976, pp. 307–34.
[KTE] “Some Remarks on Kant's Theory of Experience”, Journal of Philosophy 64, 1967, pp. 633–47.
[LT] “The Language of Theories”, in Current Issues in the Philosophy Science, ed. by H. Feigl and G. Maxwell (Henry Holt, Rhinehart and Winston; New York, NY; 1961): reprinted in [SPR], pp. 106–26.
[LTC] Language as Thought and Communication“, Philosophy and Phenomenological Research 29. 1969; reprinted in [EPH], pp. 93–117.
[MFC] ”Meaning as Functional Classification“, Synthese 27, 1974; pp. 417–37. (Issue also contains comments by Daniel Dennett and Hilary Putnam and Sellars' replies.)
[MEV] ”Mental Events“, Philosophical Studies 81, 1981; pp. 325–45.
[MGEC] ”More on Givenness and Explanatory Coherence“, in George S. Pappas, ed., Justification and Knowledge, (D. Reidel Publishing Co.; Dordrecht, Holland: 1979), pp. 169–82.
[NDL] ”Are There Non-Deductive Logics?“, in N. Rescher et al, eds., Essays in Honor of Carl G. Hempel, Synthese Library, (D. Reidel Publishing Co.; Dordrecht, Holland: 1970), pp. 83–103.
[OAFP] ”On Accepting First Principles“, in J. Tomberlin, ed., Philosophical Perspectives 2: Epistemology, 1988, (Ridgeview Publishing Co.; Atascadero, CA: 1988), pp. 301–14.
[P] ”Phenomenalism“, in [SPR], pp. 60–105.
[PSIM] ”Philosophy and the Scientific Image of Man“, in Frontiers of Science and Philosophy, ed. by Robert Colodny (University of Pittsburgh Press; Pittsburgh, PA; 1962); reprinted in [SPR], pp. 1–40.
[SK] ”The Structure of Knowledge“, The Matchette Foundation Lectures for 1971, published in Castañeda, ed., Action, Knowledge, and Reality (see below).
[SSMB] ”A Semantical Solution of the Mind-Body Problem“, Methodos 5, 1953, pp. 45–82. Reprinted in [PPPW].
[TA] ”Thought and Action“, in Keith Lehrer, ed., Freedom and Determinism, (Random House; New York, NY: 1966), pp. 105–39.
[TWO] ”Time and the World Order“, in Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science, Vol. III, ed. by H. Feigl and G. Maxwell, (University of Minnesota Press; Minneapolis, MN: 1962), pp. 527–616.


Major Critical Studies

By Author

By Journal

Supplementary Bibliography

Other Internet Resources

Related Entries

Carnap, Rudolf | functionalism | intentionality | Kant, Immanuel | meaning, theories of | mind: philosophy of | Quine, Willard van Orman | science, philosophy of