# Many-Worlds Interpretation of Quantum Mechanics

*First published Sun Mar 24, 2002; substantive revision Fri Jan 17, 2014*

The Many-Worlds Interpretation (MWI) of quantum mechanics holds that there are many worlds which exist in parallel at the same space and time as our own. The existence of the other worlds makes it possible to remove randomness and action at a distance from quantum theory and thus from all physics.

- 1. Introduction
- 2. Definitions
- 3. Correspondence Between the Formalism and Our Experience
- 4. Probability in the MWI
- 5. Tests of the MWI
- 6. Objections to the MWI
- 7. Why the MWI?
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Introduction

The fundamental idea of the MWI, going back to Everett 1957, is that there are myriads of worlds in the Universe in addition to the world we are aware of. In particular, every time a quantum experiment with different possible outcomes is performed, all outcomes are obtained, each in a different world, even if we are only aware of the world with the outcome we have seen. In fact, quantum experiments take place everywhere and very often, not just in physics laboratories: even the irregular blinking of an old fluorescent bulb is a quantum experiment.

There are numerous variations and reinterpretations of the original Everett proposal, most of which are briefly discussed in the entry on Everett's relative state formulation of quantum mechanics. Here, a particular approach to the MWI (which differs from the popular “actual splitting worlds” approach in De Witt 1970) will be presented in detail, followed by a discussion relevant for many variants of the MWI.

The MWI consists of two parts:

- A mathematical theory which yields the time evolution of the quantum state of the (single) Universe.
- A prescription which sets up a correspondence between the quantum state of the Universe and our experiences.

Part (i) is essentially summarized by the Schrödinger equation or its relativistic generalization. It is a rigorous mathematical theory and is not problematic philosophically. Part (ii) involves “our experiences” which do not have a rigorous definition. An additional difficulty in setting up (ii) follows from the fact that human languages were developed at a time when people did not suspect the existence of parallel worlds.

The mathematical part of the MWI, (i), yields less than mathematical parts of some other theories such as, e.g., Bohmian mechanics. The Schrödinger equation itself does not explain why we experience definite results in quantum measurements. In contrast, in Bohmian mechanics the mathematical part yields almost everything, and the analog of (ii) is very simple: it is the postulate according to which only the “Bohmian positions” (and not the quantum wave) correspond to our experience. The Bohmian positions of all particles yield the familiar picture of the (single) world we are aware of. Thus, philosophically, a theory like Bohmian mechanics achieves more than the MWI, but at the price of adding the non-local dynamics of Bohmian particle positions.

## 2. Definitions

### 2.1 What is “A World”?

A world is the totality of macroscopic objects: stars, cities, people, grains of sand, etc. in a definite classically described state.

The concept of a “world” in the MWI belongs to part (ii) of the theory, i.e., it is not a rigorously defined mathematical entity, but a term defined by us (sentient beings) in describing our experience. When we refer to the “definite classically described state” of, say, a cat, it means that the position and the state (alive, dead, smiling, etc.) of the cat is maximally specified according to our ability to distinguish between the alternatives, and that this specification corresponds to a classical picture, e.g., no superpositions of dead and alive cats are allowed in a single world.

Another concept, which is closer to Everett's original proposal, see
Saunders 1995,
is that of a relative, or perspectival world defined for every physical
system and every one of its states (provided it is a state of
non-zero probability): I will call it a *centered world*. This
concept is useful when a world is centered on a perceptual state of a
sentient being. In this world, all objects which the sentient being
perceives have definite states, but objects that are not under
observation might be in a superposition of different (classical)
states. The advantage of a centered world is that a quantum phenomenon
in a distant galaxy does not split it, while the advantage of the
definition presented here is that we can consider a world without
specifying a center, and in particular our usual language is just as
useful for describing worlds that existed at times when there were no
sentient beings.

The concept of a world in the MWI is based on the layman's
conception of a world; however, several features are different.
Obviously, the definition of the world as *everything that
exists* does not hold in the MWI. “Everything that exists” is the
Universe, and there is only one Universe. The Universe incorporates
many worlds similar to the one the layman is familiar with.
A layman believes that our present world has a unique past and
future. According to the MWI, a world defined at some moment of time
corresponds to a unique world at a time in the past, but to a
multitude of worlds at a time in the future.

### 2.2 Who am “I”?

“I” am an object, such as the Earth, a cat, etc. “I” is defined at a particular time by a complete (classical) description of the state of my body and of my brain. “I” and “Lev” do not refer to the same things (even though my name is Lev). At the present moment there are many different “Lev”s in different worlds (not more than one in each world), but it is meaningless to say that now there is another “I”. I have a particular, well defined past: I correspond to a particular “Lev” in 2012, but not to a particular “Lev” in the future: I correspond to a multitude of “Lev”s in 2022. In the framework of the MWI it is meaningless to ask: Which Lev in 2022 will I be? I will correspond to them all. Every time I perform a quantum experiment (with several possible results) it only seems to me that I obtain a single definite result. Indeed, Lev who obtains this particular result thinks this way. However, this Lev cannot be identified as the only Lev after the experiment. Lev before the experiment corresponds to all “Lev”s obtaining all possible results.

Although this approach to the concept of personal identity seems somewhat unusual, it is plausible in the light of the critique of personal identity by Parfit 1986. Parfit considers some artificial situations in which a person splits into several copies, and argues that there is no good answer to the question: Which copy is me? He concludes that personal identity is not what matters when I divide. Saunders and Wallace 2008a argue that based on the semantics of Lewis 1986 one can find a meaning for this question. However, in their reply 2008b to Tappenden 2008 they emphasise that their work is not about the nature of ‘I’, but about “serviceability”. Indeed, as it will be explained below, I should behave as if “Which copy is me?” is a legitimate question.

## 3. Correspondence Between the Formalism and Our Experience

We should not expect to have a detailed and complete explanation of
our experience in terms of the wave function of 10^{33}
particles that we and our immediate environment are made of. We just
have to be able to draw a basic picture which is free of paradoxes.
There are many attempts to provide an explanation of what we see based
on the MWI or its variants in
Lockwood 1989,
Gell-Mann and Hartle 1990,
Albert 1992,
Saunders 1993,
Penrose 1994,
Chalmers 1996,
Deutsch 1996,
Joos *et al.* 2003,
Schlosshauer 2007,
Zurek 2009, and
Wallace 2012.
A sketch of the connection between the wave function of the Universe
and our experience follows.

### 3.1 The Quantum State of a Macroscopic Object

The basis for the correspondence between the quantum state (the wave
function) of the Universe and our experience is the description that
physicists give in the framework of standard quantum theory for objects
composed of elementary particles. Elementary particles of the same kind
are identical. Therefore, the essence of an object is the quantum state
of its particles and not the particles themselves (see the elaborate
discussion in the entry on
identity and individuality in quantum theory):
one quantum state of a set of elementary particles might be a cat
and another state of the same particles might be a small
table. Clearly, we cannot now write down an exact wave function of a
cat. We know, to a reasonable approximation, the wave function of
some elementary particles that constitute a nucleon. The wave
function of the electrons and the nucleons that together make up an
atom is known with even better precision. The wave functions of
molecules (i.e. the wave functions of the ions and electrons out of
which molecules are built) are well studied. A lot is known about
biological cells, so physicists can write down a rough form of the
quantum state of a cell. Out of cells we construct various tissues and
then the whole body of a cat or a table. So, let us denote the
quantum state constructed in this way
|Ψ›_{OBJECT}.

In our construction
|Ψ›_{OBJECT}
is the quantum state of an object in a definite state and
position.
According to the definition of a world we have adopted, in each
world the cat is in a definite state: either alive or dead.
Schrödinger's experiment with the cat leads to a splitting
of worlds even before opening the box. Only in the alternative
approach is Schrödinger's cat, which is in a superposition
of being alive and dead, a member of the (single) centered world of
the observer before she opens the sealed box with the cat (the
observer perceives directly the facts related to the preparation of
the experiment and she deduces that the cat is in a superposition).

Formally, the quantum state of an object which consists of *N *
particles is defined in *3N* dimensional configuration space.
However, in order to make a connection to our experience it is crucial
to understand the quantum state as an entangled wave function of
*N* particles in *3* dimensional space. Physical
interactions are local in *3* dimensions and we only experience
objects defined in 3-space. The density of the wave function of
molecules of the macroscopic object in 3-space is the bridge between
the wave function of the object and our experience of that
object. This concept, which is a property of the wave function only,
plays the role of the *primitive ontology* present in other
interpretations of quantum mechanics,
Allori *et al.* 2014.

### 3.2 The Quantum State of a World

The wave function of all particles in the Universe corresponding to any particular world will be a product of the states of the sets of particles corresponding to all objects in the world multiplied by the quantum state |Φ› of all the particles that do not constitute “objects”. Within a world, “objects” have definite macroscopic states by fiat:

|Ψ _{WORLD}› = |Ψ›_{OBJECT 1}|Ψ›_{OBJECT 2}... |Ψ›_{OBJECT N}|Φ›.(1)

The product state is only for variables which are relevant for the macroscopic description of the objects. There might be some entanglement between weakly coupled variables like nuclear spins belonging to different objects. In order to keep the form of the quantum state of the world (1), the quantum state of such variables should belong to |Φ›.

Consider a text-book description of quantum measurements based on the von Neumann 1955 approach according to which each quantum measurement ends up with the collapse of the wave function to the eigenstate of the measured variable. The quantum measurement device must be a macroscopic object with macroscopically different states corresponding to different outcomes. In this case, the MWI all-particles wave function corresponding to a world with a particular outcome is the same as in the von Neumann theory provided there is a collapse to the wave function with this outcome. Von Neumann 1955 analysis helps in understanding the correspondence between the wave function and our perception of the world. However, as Becker 2004 explains, the status of the wave function for von Neumann is not ontological as in the MWI described here, but epistemic: it summarises information about the results of measurements.

In most situations, only macroscopic objects are relevant to our experience. However, today's technology has reached a point in which interference experiments are performed with single particles. In such situations a description of a world with states of only macroscopic objects, such as sources and detectors, is possible but cumbersome. Hence it is fruitful to add a description of microscopic objects. Vaidman 2010 argues that the proper way to describe the relevant microscopic particles is by the two-state vector which consists of the usual, forward evolving state specified by the measurement in the past and a backward evolving state specified by the measurement in the future. Such a description provides a simple explanation of the weak trace the particles leave, Vaidman 2013.

### 3.3 The Quantum State of the Universe

The quantum state of the Universe can be decomposed into a superposition of terms corresponding to different worlds:

|Ψ _{UNIVERSE}› = ∑α_{i}|Ψ_{WORLD i}›.(2)

Different worlds correspond to different classically described
states of at least one object. Different classically described states
correspond to orthogonal quantum states. Therefore, different worlds
correspond to orthogonal states: all states
|Ψ_{WORLD i}›
are mutually orthogonal and
consequently,
∑|α_{i}| ^{2} = 1.

### 3.4 FAPP

The construction of the quantum state of the Universe in terms of the
quantum states of objects presented above is only approximate; it is
good only *for all practical purposes* (FAPP). Indeed, the
concept of an object itself has no rigorous definition: should a mouse
that a cat just swallowed be considered as a part of the cat? The
concept of a “definite position” is also only
approximately defined: how far should a cat be displaced in order for
it to be considered to be in a different position? If the displacement
is much smaller than the quantum uncertainty, it must be considered to
be in the same place, because in this case the quantum state of the
cat is almost the same and the displacement is undetectable in
principle. But this is only an absolute bound, because our ability to
distinguish various locations of the cat is far from this quantum
limit. Furthermore, the state of an object (e.g. alive or dead) is
meaningful only if the object is considered for a period of time. In
our construction, however, the quantum state of an object is defined
at a particular time. In fact, we have to ensure that the quantum
state will have the shape of the object not only at that time, but for
some period of time. Splitting of the world during this period of time
is another source of ambiguity because
there is no precise definition of when the splitting occurs. The time
of splitting corresponds to the time of the collapse in the approach given by
von Neumann 1955. He provided a very extensive
discussion showing that it does not matter when exactly the collapse
occurs, and this analysis shows also that it does not matter when the
splitting in the MWI occurs.

The reason that it is possible to propose only an approximate prescription for the correspondence between the quantum state of the Universe and our experience is essentially the same as the reason that led Bell 1990 to claim that “ordinary quantum mechanics is just fine FAPP”. The concepts we use: “object”, “measurement”, etc. are not rigorously defined. Bell and many others were looking (until now in vain) for a “precise quantum mechanics”. Since it is not enough for a physical theory to be just fine FAPP, a quantum mechanics needs rigorous foundations. Indeed, the MWI has rigorous foundations for (i), the “physics part” of the theory; only part (ii), the correspondence with our experience, is approximate (just fine FAPP). But “just fine FAPP” means that the theory explains our experience for any possible experiment, and this is the goal of (ii). See Wallace 2002, 2010a for more arguments why a FAPP definition of a world is enough.

### 3.5 Preferred Basis

The mathematical structure of the theory (i) allows infinitely many ways to decompose the quantum state of the Universe into a superposition of orthogonal states. The basis for the decomposition into worlds follows from the common concept of a world that consists of objects in definite positions and states (“definite” on the scale of our ability to distinguish them). In the alternative approach, the basis of a centered world is defined directly by an observer. Therefore, given the nature of the observer and her concepts for describing the world, the particular choice of the decomposition (2) follows (up to a precision which is good FAPP, as required). If we do not ask why we are what we are, and why the world we perceive is what it is, but only how we can explain relations between the events we observe in our world, then the problem of the preferred basis does not arise: we and the concepts of our world define the preferred basis.

But if we do ask why we are what we are, we can explain more. Looking at
the details of the physical world, the structure of the Hamiltonian,
the value of the Planck constant, etc., one can understand why the
sentient beings we know are of a particular type and why they have
their particular concepts for describing their worlds. The main
argument is that the locality of interactions yields
*stability* of worlds in which objects are well localized. The
small value of the Planck constant allows macroscopic objects to be
well localized for a long period of time. Worlds corresponding
to localized quantum states
|Ψ_{WORLD i}›
do not split for a long enough time such that sentient beings can
perceive the locations of macroscopic objects. By contrast, a “world”
obtained in another decomposition, e.g., the “world +” which is
characterized by the relative phase of a superposition of states of
macroscopic objects being in macroscopically distinguishable states A
and B,
1/√2(|Ψ_{A}›+|Ψ_{B}›)
|Φ› ,
splits immediately, during a period of time which is much smaller than the
perception time of any feasible sentient being, into two worlds:
the new “world +” and the “world −”:
1/√2(|Ψ_{A}›−|Ψ_{B}›)
|Φ′›.
This is the phenomenon of decoherence
which has attracted enormous attention in recent years, e.g.,
Joos *et al.* 2003,
Zurek 2003,
Schlosshauer 2007,
also in the “decoherent histories” framework of
Gell-Mann and Hartle 1990,
see Saunders 1995.

### 3.6 The Measure of Existence

There are many worlds existing in parallel in the Universe. Although
all worlds are of the same physical size (this might not be true if we
take into account the quantum aspects of early cosmology), and in
every world sentient beings feel as “real” as in any other
world, there is a sense in which some worlds are larger than others. I describe
this property as the *measure of existence* of a world.

The measure of existence of a world quantifies its ability to
interfere with other worlds in a gedanken experiment, see
Vaidman 1998
(p. 256), and is the basis for introducing (an illusion of )
*probability* in
the MWI. The measure of existence is the parallel of the
probability measure discussed in
Everett 1957
and pictorially described in
Lockwood 1989
(p. 230).

Given the decomposition (2), the measure of existence of the world
*i* is
*µ _{i}*
=
|α

_{i}|

^{2}. It can also be expressed as the expectation value of

**P**

_{i}, the projection operator on the space of quantum states corresponding to the actual values of all physical variables describing the world

*i*:

μ _{i}≡ ‹Ψ_{UNIVERSE}∣P_{i}∣ Ψ_{UNIVERSE}›.(3)

“I” also have a measure of existence. It is the sum of the measures of existence of all different worlds in which I exist; it can also be defined as the measure of existence of my perception world. Note that I do not directly experience the measure of my existence. I feel the same weight, see the same brightness, etc. irrespectively of how tiny my measure of existence might be.

## 4. Probability in the MWI

The probability in the MWI cannot be introduced in a simple way as in quantum theory with collapse. However, even if there is no probability in the MWI, it is possible to explain our illusion of apparent probabilistic events. Due to the identity of the mathematical counterparts of worlds, we should not expect any difference between our experience in a particular world of the MWI and the experience in a single-world universe with collapse at every quantum measurement.

### 4.1 Probability from Uncertainty

The difficulty with the concept of probability in a deterministic
theory, such as the MWI, is that the only possible meaning for
probability is an *ignorance* probability, but there is no
relevant information that an observer who is going to perform a
quantum experiment is ignorant about. The quantum state of the
Universe at one time specifies the quantum state at all times. If I am
going to perform a quantum experiment with two possible outcomes such
that standard quantum mechanics predicts probability 1/3 for outcome A
and 2/3 for outcome B, then, according to the MWI, both the world with
outcome A and the world with outcome B will exist. It is senseless to
ask: “What is the probability that I will get A instead of
B?” because I will correspond to both “Lev”s: the
one who observes A and the other one who observes B.

To solve this difficulty, Albert and Loewer 1988 proposed the Many Minds interpretation (in which the different worlds are only in the minds of sentient beings). In addition to the quantum wave of the Universe, Albert and Loewer postulate that every sentient being has a continuum of minds. Whenever the quantum wave of the Universe develops into a superposition containing states of a sentient being corresponding to different perceptions, the minds of this sentient being evolve randomly and independently to mental states corresponding to these different states of perception (with probabilities equal to the quantum probabilities for these states). In particular, whenever a measurement is performed by an observer, the observer's minds develop mental states that correspond to perceptions of the different outcomes, i.e. corresponding to the worlds A or B in our example. Since there is a continuum of minds, there will always be an infinity of minds in any sentient being and the procedure can continue indefinitely. This resolves the difficulty: each “I” corresponds to one mind and it ends up in a state corresponding to a world with a particular outcome. However, this solution comes at the price of introducing additional structure into the theory, including a genuinely random process.

Saunders 2010 claims to solve the problem without introducing additional structure into the theory. Working in the Heisenberg picture, he uses appropriate semantics and mereology according to which distinct worlds have no parts in common, not even at early times when the worlds are qualitatively identical. In the terminology of Lewis 1986 (p. 206) we have the divergence of worlds rather than overlap. Wilson 2013 develops this idea by introducing a framework called “indexicalism,” which involves a set of distinct diverging “parallel” worlds in which each observer is located in only one world and all propositions are construed as self-locating (indexical). In Wilson's words, “indexicalism allows us to vindicate treating the weights as a candidate objective probability measure”. However, it is not clear how this program can succeed since it is hard to identify diverging worlds in our experience and there is nothing in the mathematical formalism of standard quantum mechanics which can be a counterpart of diverging worlds, see also Kent 2010 (p. 345). In the next section, the weights associated with worlds are related to subjective ignorance probability.

### 4.2 Illusion of Probability from Post-Measurement Uncertainty

Tappenden 2011 supports the proposal for explaining how
the illusion of probability arises,
Vaidman1998, 2012, in which I
identify the *ignorance probability* with the post-measurement
uncertainty. It seems senseless to ask: “What is the
probability that Lev in the world *A* will observe
*A*?” This probability is trivially equal to 1. The task is
to define the probability in such a way that we could reconstruct the
prediction of the standard approach where the probability for *A*
is 1/3. It is indeed senseless to ask *you* what is the
probability that Lev in the world *A* will observe *A*, but
this might be a meaningful question when addressed to Lev in the world of
the outcome *A*. Under normal circumstances, the world *A*
is created (i.e. measuring devices and objects which interact with
measuring devices become localized according to the outcome *A*)
before Lev is aware of the result *A*. Then, it is sensible to
ask this Lev about his probability of being in world *A*. There is a
definite outcome which this Lev will see, but he is ignorant of this
outcome at the time of the question. In order to make this point
vivid, I proposed an experiment in which the experimenter is given a
sleeping pill before the experiment. Then, while asleep, he is moved
to room *A* or to room *B* depending on the results of the
experiment. When the experimenter has woken up (in one of the rooms),
but before he has opened his eyes, he is asked “In which room
are you?” Certainly, there is a matter of fact about which room
he is in (he can learn about it by opening his eyes), but he is
ignorant about this fact at the time of the question.

This construction provides the ignorance interpretation of probability, but the value of the probability has to be postulated:

Probability Postulate

An observer should set his subjective probability of the outcome of a quantum experiment in proportion to the total measure of existence of all worlds with that outcome.

This postulate (named the
*Born-Vaidman rule *by Tappenden 2011) is a
counterpart of the collapse postulate of the standard quantum mechanics
according to which, after a measurement, the quantum state collapses to a
particular branch with probability proportional to its squared
amplitude. (See the section on the measurement problem in
the entry on
philosophical issues in quantum theory.)
However, it differs in two aspects. First, it parallels
only the second part of the collapse postulate, the Born Rule, and
second, it is related only to part (ii) of the MWI, the connection to
our experience, and not to the mathematical part of the theory
(i).

The question of the probability of obtaining *A* also makes sense for
the Lev in world *B* before he becomes aware of the outcome. Both
“Lev”s have the same information on the basis of which they should
give their answer. According to the probability postulate they will
give the *same* answer: 1/3 (the relative measure of existence
of the world *A*). Since Lev before the measurement is associated with
two “Lev”s after the measurement who have identical ignorance
probability concepts for the outcome of the experiment, I can
define the probability of the outcome of the experiment to be
performed as the ignorance probability of the successors of Lev for being
in a world with a particular outcome.

The “sleeping pill” argument does not reduce the probability of an outcome of a quantum experiment to a familiar concept of probability in the classical context. The quantum situation is genuinely different. Since all outcomes of a quantum experiment are realized, there is no probability in the usual sense. Nevertheless, my construction leads all believers in the MWI to behave according to the following principle:

Behavior Principle

We care about all our successive worlds in proportion to their measures of existence.

With this principle our behavior should be similar to the behavior of a believer in the collapse theory who cares about possible future worlds in proportion to the probability of their occurrence.

There are other arguments supporting the Probability Postulate. In
an earlier approach, Tappenden 2000 (p. 111)
adopts a different semantics according to which “I” live in all
branches and have “distinct experiences” in different
“superslices”. He uses “weight of a
superslice” instead of measure of existence and argues that it
is intelligible to associate probabilities according to the Probability Postulate.
Exploiting a variety of ideas in decoherence
theory such as the relational theory of tense and theories of identity over
time,
Saunders 1998 also argues for the
“identification of probability with the Hilbert Space norm” (which
equals the measure of existence).
Page 2003
promotes an approach named *Mindless
Sensationalism*. The basic concept in this approach is a
conscious experience. He assigns *weights* to different
experiences depending on the quantum state of the universe, as the
expectation values of presently-unknown positive operators
corresponding to the experiences (similar to the measures of
existence of the corresponding worlds
(3)).
Page writes “… experiences with greater weights exist in some
sense more …” In all of these approaches, the postulate is
introduced through an analogy with treatments of time, e.g., the
measure of the existence of a world is analogous to the duration of a
time interval. Note also Greaves 2004 who
advocates the “Behavior Principle” on the basis of the
decision-theoretic reflection principle related to the next section.

### 4.3 Probability Postulate from Decision Theory

In an ambitious work Deutsch 1999 claimed to
derive the Probability Postulate from quantum
formalism and classical decision theory. In Deutsch's argument the
notion of probability is operationalised by being reduced to an
agent's betting preferences. So an agent who is indifferent between
receiving $20 on those branches where spin “up” is observed and
receiving $10 on all branches *by definition* is deemed to give
probability 1/2 to the spin-up branches. Deutsch then attempts to
prove that the only rationally coherent strategy for an agent is to
assign these operationalised “probabilities” to equal the
quantum-mechanical branch weights. Wallace 2003,
2007, 2010b,
2012 developed this approach by making explicit the
tacit assumptions in Deutsch's argument. In the most recent version
of these proofs, the central assumptions are (i) the symmetry
structure of unitary quantum mechanics; (ii) that an agent's
preferences are consistent across time; (iii) that an agent is
indifferent to the fine-grained branching structure of the world per
se. Early criticisms of the Deutsch-Wallace approach focussed on
circularity concerns (Barnum *et al.*2000,
Baker 2007,
Hemmo and Pitowsky 2007). As the program led to
more explicit proofs, criticism turned to the decision-theoretic
assumptions being made (Lewis 2010,
Albert 2010,
Kent 2010,
Price 2010).
Vaidman 2012 believes that to derive
the Probability Postulate, at least some
connection between the mathematical formalism of quantum mechanics
and probability has to be postulated and points out that
it is enough to assume that the probability of an outcome of
a quantum measurement depends only on the measure of existence
of the corresponding world.
Thus, if all the worlds in which a particular experiment took place
have equal measures of existence, then the probability of a particular
outcome is simply proportional to the number of worlds with this
outcome. The measures of existence of worlds are, in general, not
equal, but the experimenters in all the worlds can perform additional
specially tailored auxiliary measurements of some variables such that
all the new worlds will have equal measures of existence. The
experimenters should be completely indifferent to the results of these
auxiliary measurements: their only purpose is to split the worlds into
“equal-weight” worlds. This procedure reconstructs the standard
quantum probability rule from the counting worlds approach;
see Deutsch 1999 and Zurek 2005
for details. Another derivation is based on
Gleason's 1957
theorem about the uniqueness of the probability measure. Similar conclusions
can be reached from the analysis of the frequency operator
originated by Hartle 1968.
Note that many of these arguments can be applied in the frameworks of
various interpretations of quantum mechanics, not just the MWI.

There are also more speculative proposals to deal with the issue of
probability in the MWI. Weissman 1999 has
proposed a modification of quantum theory with additional non-linear
decoherence (and hence with even more worlds than in the standard MWI)
which can lead asymptotically to worlds of equal mean measure for
different outcomes. Hanson 2003, 2006
proposed decoherence dynamics in which
observers of different worlds “mangle” each other such that
approximate Born rule is obtained. Van Wesep 2006
used some algebraic method for deriving the probability rule.
Buniy *et al.* 2006 used the ideas of
decoherent histories approach of
Gell-Mann and Hartle 1990.

## 5. Tests of the MWI

It has frequently been claimed, e.g. by
De Witt 1970,
that the MWI is in principle indistinguishable from the ideal
collapse theory. This is not so.
The collapse leads to effects that do not exist if the MWI is the
correct theory. To observe the collapse we would need a super
technology which allows for the “undoing” of a quantum experiment,
including a reversal of the detection process by macroscopic
devices. See
Lockwood 1989 (p. 223),
Vaidman 1998 (p. 257),
and other proposals in Deutsch 1986.
These proposals are all for gedanken experiments that
cannot be performed with current or any foreseeable future technology.
Indeed, in these experiments an interference of different worlds has to
be observed. Worlds are different when at least one macroscopic object
is in macroscopically distinguishable states. Thus, what is needed is
an interference experiment with a macroscopic body. Today there are
interference experiments with larger and larger objects (e.g.,
fullerene molecules C_{70}, see
Brezger *et al.* 2002 ),
but these objects are still not large enough to be considered
“macroscopic”. Such experiments can only refine the
constraints on the boundary where the collapse might take place. A
decisive experiment should involve the interference of states which
differ in a macroscopic number of degrees of freedom: an impossible
task for today's technology. It can be argued, however, that the
burden of an experimental proof lies with the opponents of the MWI,
because it is they who claim that there is a new physics beyond the
well tested Schrödinger equation. As the analysis of
Schlosshauerl 2006 shows, we have no such
evidence.

The MWI is wrong if there is a physical process of collapse of the wave
function of the Universe to a single-world quantum state. Some ingenious
proposals for such a process have been made (see
Pearle 1986
and the entry on
collapse theories).
These proposals (and
Weissman's 1999
non-linear decoherence idea) have additional observable effects, such as a
tiny energy non-conservation, that were tested in several
experiments, e.g. Collett* et al.* 1995.
The effects were not found and some (but not all!) of
these models have been ruled out, see
Adler and Bassi 2009.

Much of the experimental evidence for quantum mechanics is statistical in nature. Greaves and Myrvold 2010 made a careful study showing that our experimental data from quantum experiments supports the Probability Postulate of the MWI no less than it supports the Born rule in other approaches to quantum mechanics. Thus, statistical analysis of quantum experiments should not help us testing the MWI, but I might mention speculative cosmological arguments in support of the MWI by Page 1999, Kragh 2009, Aguirre and Tegmark 2011, and Tipler 2012.

## 6. Objections to the MWI

Some of the objections to the MWI follow from misinterpretations due to
the multitude of various MWIs. The terminology of the MWI can be confusing:
“world” is “universe” in
Deutsch 1996,
while “universe” is “multiverse”. There are
two very different
approaches with the same name “The Many-Minds Interpretation (MMI)”.
The MMI of
Albert and Loewer 1988
mentioned above should not
be confused with the MMI of
Lockwood *et al.* 1996
(which resembles the approach of Zeh 1981).
Further, the MWI in the Heisenberg representation,
Deutsch 2002,
differs significantly from the MWI presented in the Schrödinger
representation (used here). The MWI presented here is very close to
Everett's original proposal, but in the entry on
Everett's relative state formulation of quantum mechanics,
as well as in his book,
Barrett 1999,
uses the name “MWI” for the splitting worlds
view publicized by
De Witt 1970.
This approach has been justly criticized: it has both some kind of
collapse (an irreversible splitting of worlds in a preferred basis)
and the multitude of worlds. Now I will consider some objections in
detail.

### 6.1 Ockham's Razor

It seems that the majority of the opponents of the MWI reject it because, for them, introducing a very large number of worlds that we do not see is an extreme violation of Ockham's principle: “Entities are not to be multiplied beyond necessity”. However, in judging physical theories one could reasonably argue that one should not multiply physical laws beyond necessity either (such a version of Ockham's Razor has been applied in the past), and in this respect the MWI is the most economical theory. Indeed, it has all the laws of the standard quantum theory, but without the collapse postulate, which is the most problematic of the physical laws. The MWI is also more economic than Bohmian mechanics ,which has in addition the ontology of the particle trajectories and the laws which give their evolution. Tipler 1986 (p. 208) has presented an effective analogy with the criticism of Copernican theory on the grounds of Ockham's razor.

One might also consider a possible philosophical advantage of the plurality of worlds in the MWI, similar to that claimed by realists about possible worlds, such as Lewis 1986 (see the discussion of the analogy between the MWI and Lewis's theory by Skyrms 1976). However, the analogy is not complete: Lewis' theory considers all logically possible worlds, far more than all the worlds that are incorporated in the quantum state of the Universe.

### 6.2 The Problem of Preferred Basis

A common criticism of the MWI stems from the fact that the formalism of quantum theory allows infinitely many ways to decompose the quantum state of the Universe into a superposition of orthogonal states. The question arises: “Why choose the particular decomposition (2) and not any other?” Since other decompositions might lead to a very different picture, the whole construction seems to lack predictive power.

The locality of physical interactions defines the preferred basis. As described in Section 3.5, only localized states of macroscopic objects are stable. And indeed, due to the extensive research on decoherence, the problem of preferred basis is not considered as a serious objection anymore, see Wallace 2010a. Singling out position as a preferred variable for solving the preferred basis problem might be considered as a weakness, but on the other hand, it is implausible that out of a mathematical theory of vectors in Hilbert space one can derive what our world should be. (So it is not surprising that Schwindt 2012 could not do it.) We have to add some ingredients to our theory and adding locality, the property of all known physical interactions, seems to be very natural. Position as a preferred variable is not an ontological claim (as options discussed in the next section), but it helps to build a bridge between the ontology of quantum mechanics and our experience.

### 6.3 The Wave Function is not Enough

As mentioned above, the gap between the mathematical formalism of
the MWI, namely the wave function of the Universe, and our experience
is larger than in other interpretations. This is the reason why many
thought that the ontology of the wave function is not enough.
Bell 1987 (p.201) felt that either the wave function
is not everything, or it is not right. He was looking for a theory
with local “beables”. Many followed Bell in search of a
“primitive ontology” in 3+1 space-time, see
Allorri *et al.* 2014.

A particular reason why the wave function of the Universe cannot be
the whole ontology lies in the argument, led by
Maudlin 2010, that this is a wrong type of object.
The wave function of
the Universe is defined in 3N dimensional configuration space, while
we need an entity in 3+1 space-time (like the primitive ontology), see
discussion by Albert 1996,
Lewis 2004,
Monton 2006,
Ney 2012. Addition of “primitive
ontology” to the wave function of
the Universe helps us understand our experience, but complicates the
mathematical part of the theory. It is not necessary. The expectation
values of the density of each particle in space-time, which is the concept
derived from the wave functions corresponding to different worlds, can
play the role of “primitive ontology”. Since interactions between
particles are local in space, this is what is needed for finding
causal connections ending at our experience. The density of particles
is gauge independent and also properly transforms between different
Lorentz observers. Thus, explanation of our experience is unaffected
by the “narratability failure” problem of
Albert 2013: the wave function description might be different for
different Lorentz observers, but the description in terms of densities
of particles is the same. Note also an alternative approach based on
3+1 space-time by Wallace and Timpson 2010 who,
being dissatisfied with the wave function ontology, introduced the
* Spacetime State Realism*.

### 6.4 Derivation of the Probability Postulate

A popular criticism of the MWI in the past, see Belinfante 1975, which was recently repeated by Putnam 2005, is based on the naive derivation of the probability of an outcome of a quantum experiment as being proportional to the number of worlds with this outcome. Such a derivation leads to the wrong predictions, but accepting the idea of probability being proportional to the measure of existence of a world resolves this problem. Although this involves adding a postulate, we do not complicate the mathematical part (i) of the theory since we do not change the ontology, namely, the wave function. It is a postulate belonging to part (ii), the connection to our experience, and it is a very natural postulate: differences in the mathematical descriptions of worlds are manifest in our experience, see Saunders 1998.

Another criticism related to probability follows from the claim,
apparently made by Everett himself and later by many other proponents
of the MWI, see De Witt 1970, that the
Probability Postulate can be * derived * just from the
formalism of the MWI. Unfortunately, the criticism of this derivation
(which might well be correct) is considered to be a criticism of the
MWI, see Kent 1990. The recent revival of this
claim involving decision theory, Deutsch 1999,
which also encountered strong criticism (see Section 4.4), drew
negative publicity to the MWI. It might be that the MWI has no
advantage over other interpretations insofar as the derivation of the
Born rule is concerned, but it also has no disadvantage, so criticism on
these grounds is not founded, see
Papineau 2010.

The issue, named by Wallace 2003 as the “incoherence” probability problem, is arguably the most serious difficulty. How to talk about probability when all possible outcomes happen? This led Saunders and Wallace 2008a to introduce uncertainty to the MWI. However, Section 4.2 shows how one can explain the illusion of probability of an observer in a world, while the Universe incorporating all the worlds remains deterministic. Albert 2010 argues that the probability I introduce appears too late. Vaidman 2012 answers Albert by viewing the probability as the value of a rational bet on a particular result. The results of the betting of the experimenter are relevant for his successors emerging after performing the experiment in different worlds. Since the experimenter is related to all of his successors and they all have identical rational strategies for betting, then this should also be the strategy of the experimenter before the experiment.

### 6.5 Social Behavior of a Believer in the MWI

There are claims that a believer in the MWI will behave in an irrational way. One claim is based on the naive argument described in the previous section: a believer who assigns equal probabilities to all different worlds will make equal bets for the outcomes of quantum experiments that have unequal probabilities.

Another claim,
Lewis 2000,
is related to the strategy of a believer in the MWI who is offered
to play a *quantum Russian roulette* game. The argument is
that I, who would not accept an offer to play a classical Russian
roulette game, should agree to play the roulette any number of times if
the triggering occurs according to the outcome of a quantum
experiment. Indeed, at the end, there will be one world in which Lev
is a multi-millionaire and in all other worlds there will be no
Lev Vaidman alive. Thus, in the future, Lev will be a rich and
presumably happy man.

However, adopting the Probability Postulate leads all believers in the MWI to behave according to the Behavior Principle and with this principle our behavior is similar to the behavior of a believer in the collapse theory who cares about possible future worlds according to the probability of their occurrence. I should not agree to play quantum Russian roulette because the measure of existence of worlds with Lev dead will be much larger than the measure of existence of the worlds with a rich and alive Lev.

Although in most situations the Behavior Principle makes the MWI believer act in the usual way, there are some situations in which a belief in the MWI might cause a change in a social behaviour, Vaidman 1990 (Section 16). If I decided to fill a lottery ticket, I can toss a coin several times to get a random number and hope to win the prize, or I can split the world several times using the Quantum World Splitter such that every number will be filled by Lev Vaidman at least in one world in our Universe, so I can be sure that there will be a Lev Vaidman with the big prize. The choice, however, is not obvious, since in choosing the quantum coin I also make sure that there will be many worlds in which I lost. (Albrecht and Phillips 2012 claim that even a toss of a regular coin splits the world, so there is no need for a quantum splitter.)

## 7. Why the MWI?

The reason for adopting the MWI is that it avoids the collapse of the quantum wave. (Other no-collapse theories are not better than MWI for various reasons, e.g., nonlocality of Bohmian mechanics; and the disadvantage of all of them is that they have some additional structure.) The collapse postulate is a physical law that differs from all known physics in two aspects: it is genuinely random and it involves some kind of action at a distance. According to the collapse postulate the outcome of a quantum experiment is not determined by the initial conditions of the Universe prior to the experiment: only the probabilities are governed by the initial state. There is no experimental evidence in favor of collapse and against the MWI. We need not assume that Nature plays dice: science has stronger explanatory power. The MWI is a deterministic theory for a physical Universe and it explains why a world appears to be indeterministic for human observers.

The MWI allows for a local explanation of our Universe. The most celebrated example of nonlocality given by Bell 1964 in the context of the Einstein-Podolsky-Rosen argument cannot get off the ground in the framework of the MWI because it requires a predetermined single outcome of a quantum experiment, see discussion in Bacciagaluppi 2002 . There is no action at a distance in our Universe, but there is an entanglement. And a “world” is a nonlocal concept. This explains why we observe non-local correlations in a particular world.

Deutsch 2012 claims to provide an alternative vindication of quantum locality using a quantum information framework. This approach started with Deutsch and Hayden 2000 analyzing the flow of quantum information using the Heisenberg picture. After discussions by Rubin 2001 and Deutsch 2002, Hewitt-Horsman and Vedral 2007 analyzed the uniqueness of the physical picture of the information flow. Timpson 2005 and Wallace and Timpson 2007 questioned the locality demonstration in this approach and the meaning of the locality claim was clarified in Deutsch 2012. Rubin 2011 suggested that this approach might provide a simpler route toward generalization of the MWI of quantum mechanics to the MWI of field theory.

The MWI resolves most, if not all, paradoxes of quantum mechanics
(e.g., Schrödinger cat), see Vaidman 1994.
A physical paradox is a phenomenon contradicting our intuition. The
laws of physics govern the Universe incorporating all the worlds and
this is why, when we limit ourselves to a single world, we may run
into a paradox. An example is getting information about a region from
where no particle ever came using the *interaction-free
measurement* of Elitzur and Vaidman 1993.
Indeed, on the scale of the Universe there is no paradox: in
other worlds particles were in that region.

Vaidman 2001 finds it advantageous to think about
all worlds together even in analysing a controversial issue of
classical probability theory,
Sleeping Beauty Problem.
Accepting the Probability Postulate reduces the
analysis of probability to a calculation of the measures of existence
of various worlds. Note, however, that the Quantum Sleeping Beauty
also became a topic of a hot controversy:
Lewis 2007, Papineau and Durà-Vilà 2009,
Bradley 2011, Wilson 2014,
Schwarz 2012,
Groisman *et al.* 2013.

The strongest proponents of the MWI can be found among cosmologists, e.g., Aguirre and Tegmark 2011. In quantum cosmology the MWI allows for discussion of the whole Universe, thereby avoiding the difficulty of the standard interpretation which requires an external observer. Recently, Bousso and Susskind 2012 argued that even considerations in the framework of string theory lead to the MWI.

Another community where many favor the MWI is that of the researchers in quantum information. In quantum computing, the key issue is the parallel processing performed on the same computer; this is very similar to the basic picture of the MWI. Recently the usefulness of the MWI for explaining the speedup of quantum computation has been questioned: Steane 2003, Duwell 2007, and Cuffaro 2012. It is not that the quantum computation cannot be understood without the framework of the MWI; rather, it is just easier to think about quantum algorithms as parallel computations performed in parallel worlds, Deutsch and Jozsa 1992. There is no way to use all the information obtained in all parallel computations — the quantum computer algorithm is a method in which the outcomes of all calculations interfere, yielding the desired result. The cluster-state quantum computer also performs parallel computations, although it is harder to see how we get the final result. The criticism follows from identifying the computational worlds with decoherent worlds. Quantum computer process has no decoherence and the preferred basis is chosen to be the computational basis.

Recent studies suggest that some of the fathers of quantum mechanics
held views close to the MWI: Allori *et al.* 2011
say this about Schrödinger, and
Becker 2004 about von Neumann. At the birth of the MWI
Wheeler 1957 wrote: “No escape seems possible from
this relative state formulation if one wants to have a complete
mathematical model for the quantum mechanics ...” Since then, the MWI
struggles against the
Copenhagen interpretation, see
Byrne 2010, gaining some
legitimacy only in recent years Deutsch 1996,
Bevers 2011, and Barrett 2011.
The current controversial status of the MWI can be learned from the
very diverse opinions in the talks of its 50th anniversary
celebrations:
Oxford 2007,
Perimeter 2007 .

## Bibliography

- Adler, S.L. and Bassi, A., 2009,
‘Is Quantum Theory Exact?’
*Science*, 325: 275–276. [Preprint] - Aguirre, A. and Tegmark, M., 2011,
‘Born in an Infinite Universe: A Cosmological Interpretation of Quantum Mechanics’,
*Physical Review*D, 84: 105002. [Preprint] - Albert, D., 1992,
*Quantum Mechanics and Experience*, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press. - Albert, D., 1996, ‘Elementary Quantum
Metaphysics’, in J. Cushing, A. Fine, and S. Goldstein (eds.),
‘Bohmian Mechanics and Quantum Theory: An Appraisal’,
*Boston Studies in the Philosophy of Science*, 184: 277–284. - Albert, D., 2010, ‘Probability in the
Everett Picture’, in S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and
D. Wallace (eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 355–368. - Albert, D., 2013, ‘Physics and
Narrative’, in D. Struppa and J. Tollaksen (eds.),
*Quantum Theory: a Two-Time Success Story. Yakir Aharonov Festschrift*, Milan: Springer, pp. 171–182. [Preprint 2007]. - Albert, D. and Loewer, B., 1988,
‘Interpreting the Many Worlds Interpretation’,
*Synthese*, 77: 195–213. - Allorri, V., Goldstein, S., Tumulka, R., and
Zanghi, N., 2011, ‘Many-Worlds and Schrödinger's First
Quantum Theory’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 62: 1–27. - Allorri, V., Goldstein, S., Tumulka, R., and
Zanghi, N., 2014, ‘Predictions and Primitive Ontology in
Quantum Foundations: A Study of Examples’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, doi:10.1093/bjps/axs048 - Bacciagaluppi, G., 2002,
‘Remarks on Space-Time and Locality in Everett's Interpretation’, in
*Modality, Probability, and Bell's Theorems*, (NATO Science Series). [Preprint] - Baker, D.J., 2007,
‘Measurement Outcomes and Probability in Everettian Quantum Mechanics’,
*Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part B – Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 38: 153–169. [Preprint] - Barnum, H., Caves, C.M., Finkelstein, J., Fuchs, C.A., and Schack, R., 2000,
‘Quantum Probability from Decision Theory’,
*Proceedings of the Royal Society of London*A, 456: 1175–1182. [Preprint] - Barrett, J. A., 1999,
*The Quantum Mechanics of Minds and Worlds*, Oxford: University Press. - Barrett, J. A., 2011, ‘Everett's Pure
Wave Mechanics and the Notion of Worlds’,
*European Journal for Philosophy of Science*, 1: 277–302. - Becker, L., 2004, ‘That Von Neumann did
not Believe in a Physical Collapse’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 55: 121–135. - Belinfante, F. J., 1975,
*Measurements and Time Reversal in Objective Quantum Theory*, Oxford: Pergamon Press, pp. 50–51. - Bell, J. S., 1964, ‘On the Einstein
Podolsky Rosen Paradox’,
*Physics*, 1: 195–200. - Bell, J. S., 1987,
*Speakable and Unspeakable in Quantum Mechanics*, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. - Bell, J. S., 1990, ‘Against
Measurements’, in A. I. Miller (ed.),
*Sixty-Two Years of Uncertainty*, New York: Plenum Press, pp. 17–32. - Bevers, B.M., 2011, ‘ Everett's
“Many-Worlds” Proposal’,
*Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part B – Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 42: 3–12. - Bousso, R. and Susskind, L., 2012,
‘Multiverse Interpretation of Quantum Mechanics’,
*Physical Review*D, 85: 045007. [Preprint] - Bradley, D. J., 2011, ‘Confirmation in a
Branching World: The Everett Interpretation and Sleeping
Beauty’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 62: 323–342. - Brezger, B., Hackermüller, L., Uttenthaler, S.,
Petschinka, J., Arndt, M. and Zeilinger A., 2002,
‘Matter-Wave Interferometer for Large Molecules’,
*Physical Review Letters*, 88: 100404. [Preprint] - Buniy, R.V., Hsu, S.D.H. and Zee, A., 2006,
‘Discreteness and the Origin of Probability in Quantum Mechanics’,
*Physics Letters*B, 640: 219–223. [Preprint] - Byrne, P., 2010,
*The Many Worlds of Hugh Everett III: Multiple Universes, Mutual Assured Destruction, and the Meltdown of a Nuclear Family*, Oxford: Oxford University Press. - Chalmers, D. J., 1996,
*The Conscious Mind*, New York: Oxford University Press. - Collett, B., Pearle, P., Avignone, F., and
Nussinov, S., 1995, ‘Constraint on Collapse Models by Limit
on Spontaneous X-Ray Emission in Ge’,
*Foundation of Physics*, 25: 1399–1412. - Cuffaro, M. E., 2012, ‘Many Worlds, the
Cluster-State Quantum Computer, and the Problem of the Preferred
Basis’,
*Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 43: 35–42. - Deutsch, D., 1986, ‘Three experimental
implications of the Everett interpretation’, in R. Penrose and
C.J. Isham (eds.),
*Quantum Concepts of Space and Time*, Oxford: The Clarendon Press, pp. 204–214. - Deutsch, D., 1996,
*The Fabric of Reality*, New York: The Penguin Press. - Deutsch, D., 1999,
‘Quantum Theory of Probability and Decisions’,
*Proceedings of the Royal Society of London*A, 455: 3129–3137. [Preprint] - Deutsch, D., 2002,
‘The Structure of the Multiverse’,
*Proceedings of the Royal Society of London*A, 458: 2911–2923. [Preprint] - Deutsch, D., 2012,
‘Vindication of Quantum Locality’,
*Proceedings of the Royal Society*A, 468: 531–544. [Preprint] - Deutsch, D. and Hayden, P., 2000,
‘Information Flow in Entangled Quantum Systems’,
*Proceedings of the Royal Society of London*A, 456: 1759–1774. [Preprint] - Deutsch, D. and Jozsa, R., 1992, ‘Rapid
Solutions of Problems by Quantum Computation’,
*Proceedings of the Royal Society of London*A, 439: 553–558. [Preprint] - Duwel, A., 2009, ‘The Many-Worlds
Interpretation and Quantum Computation’,
*Philosophy of Science*, 74: 1007–1018. - De Witt, B. S. M., 1970, ‘Quantum
mechanics and Reality’,
*Physics Today*, 23(9): 30–35. - Elitzur, A. and Vaidman, L., 1993,
‘Interaction-Free Quantum Measurements’,
*Foundation of Physics*, 23: 987-997. [Preprint] - Everett, H., 1957, ‘Relative State
Formulation of Quantum Mechanics’,
*Review of Modern Physics*, 29: 454–462; see also ‘The Theory of the Universal Wave Function’, in B. De Witt and N. Graham (eds.),*The Many-Worlds Interpretation of Quantum Mechanics*, Princeton NJ: Princeton University Press, 1973. - Gell-Mann, M. and Hartle, J. B., 1990,
‘Quantum Mechanics in the Light of Quantum Cosmology’, in
W. H. Zurek (ed.),
*Complexity, Entropy and the Physics of Information*, Reading: Addison-Wesley, pp. 425-459. - Gleason, A. M., 1957, ‘Measures on the
Closed Subspaces of Hilbert Space’,
*Journal of Mathematics and Mechanics*, 6: 885–894. - Graham, N., 1973, ‘The Measurement of
Relative Frequency’, in De Witt and N. Graham (eds.)
*The Many-Words Interpretation of Quantum Mechanics*, Princeton NJ: Princeton University Press. - Greaves, H., 2004, ‘Understanding
Deutsch's Probability in a Deterministic Universe’,
*Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 35: 423–456. - Greaves, H. and Myrvold, W., 2010,
‘Everett and Evidence’, in S. Saunders, J. Barrett,
A. Kent and D. Wallace (eds.) ,
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 181–205. - Groisman, B., Hallakoun, N., and Vaidman, L.,
2013 ‘The Measure of Existence of a Quantum World and the
Sleeping Beauty Problem’,
*Analysis*, 73: 695–706. [Preprint] - Hanson, R ., 2003,
‘When Worlds Collide: Quantum Probability from Observer Selection?’
*Foundations of Physics*, 33: 112–1150. [Preprint] - Hanson, R., 2006,
‘Drift-Diffusion in Mangled Worlds Quantum Mechanics’,
*Proceedings of the Royal Society*A, 462: 1619–1627. [Preprint] - Hartle, J. B., 1968 ‘Quantum Mechanics
of Individual Systems’,
*American Journal of Physics*, 36: 704–712. - Hemmo, M. and Pitowsky, I., 2007,
‘Quantum Probability and Many Worlds’,
*Studies in the History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 38: 333–350. - Hewitt-Horsman, C. and Vedral V., 2007,
‘Developing the Deutsch-Hayden Approach to Quantum Mechanics’,
*New Journal of Physics*, 9: 135. [Preprint] - Joos, E., Zeh, H.D., Kiefer, C., Giulini, D.,
Kupsch, J., and Stamatescu, I.-O., 2003,
*Decoherence and the Appearance of a Classical World*, 2nd edn., Berlin: Springer. - Kent, A., 1990,
‘Against Many-Worlds Interpretation’,
*International Journal of Modern Physics*A, 5: 1745–1762. [Preprint] - Kent, A., 2010, ‘One World Versus Many:
The Inadequacy of Everettian Accounts of Evolution, Probability, and
Scientific Confirmation’, in S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent
and D. Wallace (eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 307–354. - Kragh, H., 2009, ‘Contemporary History
of Cosmology and the Controversy over the Multiverse’,
*Annals of Science*, 66: 529–551. - Lewis, D., 1986,
*On the Plurality of Worlds*, Oxford, New York: Basil Blackwell. - Lewis, P., 2000, ‘What is it like to be
Schrödinger's cat?’
*Analysis*, 60: 22–29. - Lewis, P., 2004, ‘Life in Configuration
Space’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 55: 713–729. - Lewis, P., 2007, ‘Quantum Sleeping
Beauty’,
*Analysis*, 67: 59–65. - Lewis, P., 2010,
‘Probability in Everettian Quantum Mechanics’,
*Manuscrito*, 33: 285–306. [Preprint] - Lockwood, M., 1989,
*Mind, Brain & the Quantum*, Oxford: Basil Blackwell. - Lockwood, M., Brown, H. R., Butterfield, J.,
Deutsch, D., Loewer, B., Papineau, D., Saunders, S., 1996,
‘Symposium: The ‘Many Minds’ Interpretation of
Quantum Theory’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 47: 159–248. - Maudlin, T., 2010, ‘Can the World be
Only Wavefunction?’, in S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and
D. Wallace (eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 121–143. - Monton, B., 2006, ‘Quantum Mechanics and
3N-Dimensional Space’,
*Philosophy of Science*, 73: 778–789. - Ney, A., 2012, ‘The Status of our
Ordinary Three Dimensions in a Quantum Universe’,
*Noûs*, 46: 525–560. - Page, D., 1999, ‘Can Quantum Cosmology
Give Observational Consequences of Many-Worlds Quantum Theory?’
in C. P. Burgess and R. C. Myers (eds.)
*General Relativity and Relativistic Astrophysics, Eighth Canadian Conference Montreal, Quebec*, American Institute of Physics, Melville, New York, pp. 225–232. [Preprint] - Page, D., 2003,
‘Mindless Sensationalism: a Quantum Framework for Consciousness’, in
*Consciousness: New Philosophical Essays*, Q. Smith and A. Jokic (eds.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, pp. 468–506. [Preprint] - Papineau, D., 2010, ‘A Fair Deal for
Everettians’, in S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and D. Wallace
(eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 181–205. - Papineau, D. and Durà-Vilà, V., 2009, ‘A
Thirder and an Everettian: A Reply to Lewis's 'Quantum Sleeping
Beauty'’,
*Analysis*, 69: 78–86. - Price, H., 2010, ‘Decisions, Decisions,
Decisions: Can Savage Salvage Everettian Probability?’ in
S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and D. Wallace (eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 369–390. - Parfit, D., 1986,
*Reasons and Persons*, New York: Oxford University Press. - Pearle, P., 1986, ‘Models for
Reduction’, in R. Penrose and C.J. Isham (eds.),
*Quantum Concepts of Space and Time*, Oxford: Caledonia Press, pp. 204–214. - Penrose, R., 1994,
*Shadows of the Mind*, Oxford: Oxford University Press. - Putnam, H., 2005, ‘A Philosopher Looks
at Quantum Mechanics (Again)’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 56: 615–634. - Rubin, M. A., 2001, ‘Locality in the
Everett Interpretation of Heisenberg-Picture Quantum Mechanics’,
*Foundations of Physics Letters*, 14: 301–322. [Preprint] - Rubin, M. A., 2011, ‘Observers and
Locality in Everett Quantum Field Theory’,
*Foundations of Physics*, 41: 1236–1262. [Preprint] - Saunders, S. , 1993, ‘'Decoherence,
Relative States, and Evolutionary Adaptation’,
*Foundations of Physics*, 23: 1553–1585. - Saunders, S., 1995,
‘Time, Quantum Mechanics, and Decoherence’,
*Synthese*, 102: 235–266. [Preprint] - Saunders, S., 1998,
‘Time, Quantum Mechanics, and Probability’,
*Synthese*, 114: 373–404. [Preprint] - Saunders, S., 2010, ‘Chance in the
Everett Interpretation’, in S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and
D. Wallace (eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 181–205. - Saunders, S. and Wallace, D., 2008a,
‘Branching and Uncertainty’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 59: 293–305. - Saunders, S. and Wallace, D., 2008b,
‘Reply’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 59: 315–317. - Schlosshauer, M., 2006, ‘Experimental
Motivation and Empirical Consistency in Minimal No-Collapse Quantum
Mechanics’,
*Annals of Physics*, 321: 112–149. [Preprint ] - Schlosshauer, M., 2007,
*Decoherence and the Quantum-to-Classical Transition*, Heidelberg and Berlin: Springer. - Skyrms, B., 1976, ‘Possible Worlds,
Physics and Metaphysics’,
*Philosophical Studies*, 30: 323–332. - Steane, A. M. , 2003, ‘A Quantum
Computer Only Needs One Universe’,
*Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 34: 469–478. - Tappenden, P., 2000, ‘Identity and
Probability in Everett's Multiverse’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 51: 99–114. - Tappenden, P., 2008, ‘Saunders and
Wallace on Everett and Lewis’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 59: 307–314. - Tappenden, P., 2011, ‘Evidence and
Uncertainty in Everett’s Multiverse’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 62: 99–123. - Timpson C. J., 2005, ‘Nonlocality and
information flow: The approach of Deutsch and Hayden’,
*Foundations of Physics*, 35: 313–343. [Preprint ] - Tipler, F. J., 1986, ‘The Many-Worlds
Interpretation of Quantum Mechanics in Quantum Cosmology’, in
R. Penrose and C.J. Isham (eds.),
*Quantum Concepts of Space and Time*, Oxford: The Clarendon Press, 1986, pp. 204–214. - Tipler F. J., 2012, ‘Nonlocality as
Evidence for a Multiverse Cosmology’,
*Modern Physics Letters*A, 27: 1250019. [Preprint ] - Vaidman, L., 1994,
‘On the paradoxical aspects of new quantum experiments’,
*Philosophy of Science Association 1994*, pp. 211–217. [Preprint] - Vaidman, L., 1998,
‘On Schizophrenic
Experiences of the Neutron or Why We should Believe in the
Many-Worlds Interpretation of Quantum Theory’,
*International Studies in the Philosophy of Science*, 12: 245–261. [Preprint] - Vaidman, L., 2001, ‘Probability and the
Many Worlds Interpretation of Quantum Theory’, in A. Khrennikov,
(ed.)
*Quantum Theory: Reconsidereation of Foundations*, Sweeden: Vaxjo University Press, pp. 407–422. [Preprint] - Vaidman, L., 2010,
‘Time Symmetry and the Many-Worlds Interpretation’, in
S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and D. Wallace (eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 582–596. [Preprint ] - Vaidman, L., 2012,
‘Probability in the Many-Worlds Interpretation of Quantum Mechanics’, in
Ben-Menahem, Y. and Hemmo, M. (Eds.),
*Probability in Physics*, The Frontiers Collection XII Springer, pp. 299–311. [Preprint ] - Vaidman, L., 2013, ‘Past of a Quantum
Particle’,
*Physical Review*A, 87: 052104. [Preprint] - Van Wesep, R., 2006,
‘Many Worlds and the Appearance of Probability in Quantum Mechanics’,
*Annals of Physics*, 321: 2438–2452. [Preprint] - von Neumann, J., 1955,
*Mathematical Foundations of Quantum Theory*, Princeton: Princeton University Press. - Wallace, D., 2002,
‘Worlds in the Everett Interpretation’,
*Studies in History & Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 33B: 637–661. [Preprint] - Wallace, D., 2003, ‘Everettian
Rationality: Defending Deutsch's Approach to Probability in the
Everett interpretation’,
*Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part B: Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 34: 415–438. [Preprint ] - Wallace, D., 2007, ‘Quantum Probability
from Subjective Likelihood: Improving on Deutsch's Proof of the
Probability Rule’,
*Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part B: Studies in the History and Philosophy of Modern Physics*, 38: 311–332. [Preprint ] - Wallace, D., 2010a, ‘ Decoherence and
Ontology (Or: How I Learned to Stop Worrying and Love FAPP)’, in
S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and D. Wallace (eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 53–72. - Wallace, D., 2010b, ‘How to Prove the
Born Rule’, in S. Saunders, J. Barrett, A. Kent and D. Wallace
(eds.),
*Many Worlds? Everett, Quantum Theory, & Reality*, Oxford and New York: Oxford University Press, pp. 227–263. - Wallace, D., 2012,
*The Emergent Multiverse*, Oxford: University Press. - Wallace, D. and Timpson, C. J., 2007,
‘Non-locality and Gauge Freedom in Deutsch and Hayden's
Formulation of Quantum Mechanics’,
*Foundations of Physics*, 37: 951–955. [Preprint] - Wallace, D. and Timpson, C. J., 2010,
‘Quantum Mechanics on Spacetime I: Spacetime State
Realism’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 61: 697–727. - Weissman, M. B., 1999, ‘Emergent
Measure-Dependent Probabilities from Modified Quantum Dynamics without
State-Vector Reduction’,
*Foundations of Physics Letters*, 12: 407–426. [Preprint] - Wheeler, J., 1957, ‘Assessment of
Everett's “Relative State” Formulation of Quantum Theory’,
*Reviews of Modern Physics*, 29: 463–465. - Wilson, A., 2013, ‘Objective Probability
in Everettian Quantum Mechanics’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, 64: 709–737. - Wilson, A., 2014, ‘Everettian
Confirmation and Sleeping Beauty’,
*British Journal for the Philosophy of Science*, doi:10.1093/bjps/axt018 - Zeh, H. D., 1981, ‘The Problem of
Conscious Observation in Quantum Mechanical Description’,
*Epistemological Letters*, 63. [Preprint] - Zurek, W. H., 2003, ‘Decoherence,
Einselection, and the Quantum Origins of the Classical’,
*Review of Modern Physics*, 75: 715–775. [Preprint] - Zurek, W. H., 2005, ‘Probabilities from
Entanglement, Born's rule p
_{k}=|ψ_{k}|^{2}from Envariance’,*Physical Review*A, 71: 052105. [Preprint] - Zurek, W. H., 2009, ‘Quantum
Darwinism’,
*Nature Physics*, 5: 181–188. [Preprint]

### Preprints

- Albrecht, A. and Phillips, D., 2012, ‘Origin of Probabilities and their Application to the Multiverse’ [Preprint].
- Schwarz, W., 2010, ‘Belief Update Across Fission’ [Preprint].
- Schwindt, D., 2012, ‘Nothing Happens in the Universe of the Everett Interpretation’ [Preprint].
- Tappenden, P., 2010, ‘Varieties of Divergence: A Response to Saunders and Wallace’ [Preprint].
- Vaidman, L., 1990, ‘On Schizophrenic Experiences of the Neutron or Why We should Believe in the Many-Worlds Interpretation of Quantum Theory’ [Preprint].

## Academic Tools

How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up this entry topic at the Indiana Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.

### Acknowledgments

I am thankful to everybody who has borne with me through endless discussions of the MWI (in this and other worlds) and I acknowledge partial support by grant 1125/10 of the Israel Science Foundation.