#### Supplement to Actualism

## An Informal Derivation of NE! from □SA and CBF

Suppose some property necessarily holds of everything; more formally
put, that, for some atomic formula φ with ‘*x*’
free, ^{⌈}□∀*x*φ^{⌉}
is true. (φ might be ‘*x=x*’, expressing the
property *being self-identical*, for example — in this
case, of course, ‘□∀*x x=x*’ is provable
in SQML. Or it might simply be the formula ‘*Px*’,
where ‘*P*’ is assumed to express some arbitrary
property that necessarily holds of everything.) From this, **CBF**
yields ^{⌈}∀*x*□φ^{⌉}.
By universal instantiation we
have ^{⌈}□φ^{⌉}. Then we have the
following instance of **□SA** (where *n*=0 in that
schema):
^{⌈}□(φ → *E!x*)^{⌉}.
By the K axiom schema we have ^{⌈}□φ →
□*E!x*^{⌉}, and
hence ^{⌈}□*E!x*^{⌉}, i.e.,
**NE!**.

Note that, even in a language without identity, existence can be
expressed our the existence predicate ‘*E!*’ is taken
to be a primitive of the language: At each world, its extension is
simply taken to be the class of all individuals and it can be
axiomatized in the logic for the language with the sentence
‘∀*xE!x*’. **SA** and
**□SA** would take exactly the same forms in this language and
the derivation above would still go through.