## Notes to Probabilistic Causation

1. For many applications, it is useful to assume that the domain has the form of a sigma-field, which means that it is closed under countable unions and intersections.

2.
This is the
*additivity* property of probability. In some applications, it
is useful to assume that probability is *countably* additive.
That is, if *A*_{1}, *A*_{2},… are
all in the domain of P, and
P(*A _{i}* &

*A*) = 0 for all

_{j}*i*≠

*j*, then P(

*A*

_{1}∨

*A*

_{2}∨ …) = P(

*A*

_{1}) + P(

*A*

_{2}) + …

3.
When
P(~*C*) = 0, both inequalities will fail, but for different
reasons. (PR_{1}) fails because the two probabilities are equal;
(PR_{2}) fails because the second term is undefined.

4.
Reichenbach's condition was actually stronger: there must be no
set of events, all occurring earlier than or simultaneously with
*C*_{t}, such that their conjunction
screens off *C* from *E*.

5.
Eells also
claims (p. 139 ff.) that some factors that are causally neutral for
*E* also need to be held fixed. These are always factors that
are *component causes* of *E* in the sense of Section
2.9.

6.
As stated,
causal sufficiency is a very strong assumption, and is not strictly
necessary for the MC to hold. What we want is that a causally
sufficient set of variables include all *closest* common causes.
*C* is a closest common cause of *A* and *B* if
there is a path from *C* to *A* and a path from
*C* to *B* with no variable other than *C* in
common. Suppose, for example, that *F* causes *C*, which
is in turn a common cause of *A* and *B* (as shown in
Figure 7 of the supplementary document
Common Confusions Involving the Common Cause Principle).
Then *C* is a closest common cause
of *A* and *B*, while *F* is not. Suppose that the
variable *F* were excluded from **V**. Even though
*F* is a common cause of *A* and *B*, its
exclusion would not create a violation of the MC, since *A* and
*B* would still be screened off by *C*.

7. Technically, this exclusion follows from the definition of what it is for a graph to ‘represent’ a causal structure.

8. Thanks to Richard Scheines for the example.