#### Supplement to Location and Mereology

## 1. Additional arguments concerning interpenetration

### 1.1 Arguments for the possibility of interpenetration

#### From thing-region dualism and conditional reflexivity

Friends of Conditional Reflexivity who accept Thing-Region Dualism
(the view that material objects are always disjoint from regions) can
argue as follows. Take any material object *o* and any region
*r* at which *o* is exactly located. By Conditional
Reflexivity, *r* is also exactly located at *r*. So, by the
Reflexivity of Parthood and the definition of ‘overlap’,
an exact location of *o* overlaps an exact location of *r*
but, by Thing-Region Dualism, *o* itself does not overlap
*r*. Hence No Interpenetration is false.

The argument will have no force for those who reject Conditional
Reflexivity or Thing-Region Dualism. And even if one accepts both of
those doctrines and grants the above argument, one might still insist
that distinct *material objects* (or perhaps
*non-regions* more generally) cannot interpenetrate.

#### From sets

Maddy (1990: 59) claims that a material object and its singleton (the
set whose only member is the given material object) are co-located.
This claim plays a crucial role in her defense of the view that we can
acquire knowledge of mathematical entities by perceiving sets. More
generally, she claims that if *x* has a location, then *x*
and {*x*} have the same location (1990: 59).

(Others who discuss the issue include Lewis (1991: 31), who is agnostic, Cook (2012), who argues that sets are not located, and Effingham (2012), who replies to Cook.)

Let *x* be a material object that is located at region *r*.
Given the Maddy view, {*x*} is exactly located at *r* as
well. So *x* and {*x*} have overlapping exact locations. But
presumably a thing and its singleton do not literally share
*parts*, at least when the thing is a non-set. So: *x* and
{*x*} are disjoint things with overlapping exact locations.

The view that non-sets, at least, are disjoint from their singletons seems to be standard and is defended by Lewis (1991: 3–10). Caplan, Tillman, and Reeder (2010) defend the view that singletons do have their members as parts and hence overlap their members.

Again, even if sets generate counterexamples to No Interpenetration, they pose no threat to the restricted principle (2), since sets are not material objects.

#### From a more detailed recombination principle

Saucedo (2011) formulates a more detailed version of the recombination principle that is designed to overcome difficulties facing the recombination arguments due to Sider and McDaniel. Saucedo arrives at his principle by successive refinements of a vaguely Humean idea: there are no necessary connections between distinct fundamental properties or relations. Saucedo's principle allows that

- logical truths (sentences whose negations do not have models) are
necessary, e.g.,
- ∀
*x*[Mass-two-grams(*x*)*v*¬Mass-two-grams(*x*)]

*For each thing**x*, either*x*is two grams in mass or it is not two grams in mass

- ∀
- some sentences that are not logical truths but that contain
certain non-logical predicates (predicates aside from the identity
symbol) expressing non-fundamental properties or relations may be
necessary, e.g.,
- ∀
*x*[Bachelor(*x*) → Male(*x*)]

*All bachelors are male*

- ∀
- some sentences that contain non-logical predicates expressing
properties or relations that are related as determinate to
determinable, or as determinates of the same determinable, may be
necessary (even if these sentences are not logical truths and all of
their predicates express fundamental properties or relations), e.g.,
- ∀
*x*[Mass-two-grams(*x*) → Massive(*x*)]

*Anything that is two grams in mass is massive.* - ¬∃
*x*[Mass-two-grams(*x*) & Mass-three-grams(*x*)]

*Nothing is both two grams in mass and three grams in mass.*

- ∀
- some sentences that contain just one non-logical predicate may be
necessary (even if these sentences are not logical truths, and all of
their non-logical predicates express fundamental properties or
relations, and no two of their predicates express properties or
relations that related as determinate to determinable or as
determinates of the same determinable), e.g.,
- ∀
*x*∀*y*∀*z*[[*P*(*x*,*y*) &*P*(*y*,*z*)] →*P*(*x*,*z*)]

*Parthood is transitive* - ∀
*x*∀*y*∀*z*[[*L*(*x*,*y*) &*L*(*x*,*z*)] →*y*=*z*]

*Nothing has more than one exact location*

- ∀

But Saucedo's principle claims that there are no necessary truths that are not logical consequences of the collection of necessarily true sentences in the above categories. Here is a somewhat streamlined statement of Saucedo's principle:

*R*→*P*- Let
*L*be a first-order language containing standard logical vocabulary: the truth-functional connectives, first-order variables and quantifiers, and the identity predicate, and suppose that each non-logical predicate of*L*expresses exactly one fundamental property or relation, and that each fundamental property or relation is expressed by exactly one predicate of*L*. Let*T*be the set of metaphysically necessary sentences of*L*that contain occurrences of at most one non-logical predicate, and let φ be a sentence of*L*that does not contain occurrences of two or more predicates expressing properties or relations that are related as determinate to determinable or as determinates of the same determinable. Finally, suppose that the union of {φ} and*T*has a model. Then φ is possible, i.e., there is a metaphysically possible world at which φ is true.

*R* → *P* purports to set out an informative sufficient
condition for metaphysical possibility. It does not purport to analyze
the notion of possibility or to give conditions that are both
necessary and sufficient for possibility.

Saucedo argues that given *R* → *P*, we should admit
that the sentence

- ψ
- ∃
*x*∃*y*∃*z*∃*w*[*L*(*x*,*z*) &*L*(*y*,*w*) &*P*(*w*,*z*) & ¬∃*u*[*P*(*u*,*x*) &*P*(*u*,*y*)]]

*For some**x*and some*y*,*x*has an exact location that is a part of an exact location of*y*, but*x*and*y*themselves do not share any parts

is true at some possible world. After all, the only non-logical
predicates in ψ are ‘*L*’ for the exact location
relation and ‘*P*’ for the parthood relation, it's
plausible that both relations are fundamental, and they do not seem to
be related as determinate to determinable or as determinates of the
same determinable. Moreover, the negation of ψ is not a logical
truth (ψ has a model), and it's doubtful that the negation of
ψ is a logical consequence of any set of necessary truths of the
appropriately restricted types. For example, ψ does not seem to
violate any ‘purely locational’ axiom or any ‘purely
mereological’ axiom. Indeed, ψ is presumably logically
consistent with *T*, the set of necessarily true sentences each
of which contains at most one non-logical predicate, and each of whose
non-logical predicates expresses a fundamental property or relation;
that is, the union of {ψ} and *T* presumably has a model.
(Saucedo attempts to establish the existence of such a model more
rigorously on the basis of some very weak possibility claims, but the
argument is complex and resists compression.)

If there is such a model, then, given *R* → *P*, it
follows that ψ is true at some possible world. If it is, then it's
possible for disjoint things to have exact locations one of which is a
part of the other. Given that Reflexivity is necessary, such locations
must *overlap*, which yields a violation of No
Interpenetration.

One might object to Saucedo's version of the recombination argument by denying the assumption that parthood and location are both fundamental and are ‘determinably-distinct’—i.e., not related at determinate-to-determinable or as determinates of the same determinable (Donnelly 2010: 204, note 3).

For example, if one thinks that it is a necessary truth that entities
are identical to their exact locations, then one deny Saucedo's
assumption that the relation of exact location is
*fundamental*. For in that case one will find it natural to
offer the following definition or analysis of that relation (where
‘is a region’ is treated as undefined):

- DL
*x*is exactly located at*y*=_{df}(i)*y*is a region, and (ii)*x*=*y*

Clause (i) is needed to avoid the result that the number 17, e.g., is exactly located at itself.

Alternatively, one might object to Saucedo's by rejecting his
recombination principle, *R* → *P*. Perhaps the most
distinctive feature of Saucedo's argument for the possibility of
interpenetration is the way it generalizes. The core idea underlying
*R* → *P* is that there are no brute necessary
connections between determinably-distinct fundamental relations, such
as parthood and location. Parthood has its purely mereological axioms,
exact location has its purely locational axioms, and there are the
logical consequences of these, but there are no basic
‘mixed’ axioms that link parthood and location. This
probably means that No Interpenetration is not a necessary truth. But
if so, then it *also* probably means that even Weak
Expansivity,

∀x∀y∀z∀w[(P(x,y) &L(x,z) &L(y,w)) →P(z,w)]

is not a necessary truth, since it too is a mixed principle and does not seem to be a logical consequence of any collection of necessary truths that are either purely mereological or purely locational. Likewise for all other basic ‘mixed’ principles, no matter how plausible.

Indeed, as Saucedo notes, if *R* → *P* yields an
argument for the possibility of violations of No Interpenetration,
then it yields a parallel and equally forceful argument for the
possibility of worlds in which an object *x* is a part of an
object *y*, but *x*s lone exact location is disjoint from
(and, for vividness, say 10 miles away from) *y*'s lone exact
location. Saucedo accepts the relevant possibilities, but others may
prefer to reject any recombination principle strong enough to lead to
them.

### 1.2 An argument against the possibility of interpenetration

#### From thing-region coincidentalism

Supersubstantivalism+ is the view that necessarily, each entity is identical to anything at which it is exactly located. A related but weaker view is

- Thing-Region Coincidentalism
□∀
*x*∀*y*[*L*(*x*,*y*) →*C**O*(*x*,*y*)]

*Necessarily, if**x*is exactly located at*y*, then*x*mereologically coincides with*y* - (See Hawthorne 2006, 118, note 18; Schaffer 2009; Gilmore 2014b.)

Thing-Region Coincidentalism is similar to Supersubstantivalism+, in
that it holds that all located entities are ‘fundamentally made
up of spacetime’, but it is consistent with the view that in
some cases an entity—even a material object—is not
identical to its exact location. (One might hold that Descartes' body
is not identical to its exact location, *r*, on the grounds that
his body, but not *r*, could have had a 70-year-long time
span.)

Thing-Region Coincidentalism entails No Interpenetration. Take any
objects *x* and *y* in any possible world, and suppose that
they have exact locations, *r*1 and *r*2 respectively, that
overlap. Then, given Thing-Region Coincidentalism, *x* overlaps
exactly the same things as *r*1, and *y* overlaps exactly
the same things as *r*2. So, since *r*1 overlaps *r*2,
*x* overlaps *r*2 as well. And since *r*2 overlaps
*x*, *y* overlaps *x*. Hence *x* and *y* are
not disjoint.

Like the friend of Supersubstantivalism+, the friend of Thing-Region Coincidentalism can respond to Saucedo's recombination argument against No Interpenetration by treating the relation of exact location as non-fundamental. As Hawthorne notes (2006: 118, note 18), something like the following definition is available:

- DL
^{*} *x*is exactly located at*y*=_{df}

(i)*y*is a region and (ii)*x*mereologically coincides with*y*.

As in the case of (DL), the first clause is needed to avoid the result that if the number 17 coincides with itself, then it is exactly located at itself.

It is worth pointing out that Thing-Region Coincidentalism is no
better off than Supersubstantivalism+ with respect to examples
involving universals, tropes, or sets. Those who take such entities to
be spatiotemporally located will presumably want to say that there are
cases in which two or more tropes [universals, sets, …]
*that do not mereologically coincide with each other*
nevertheless have the same exact location. But if there are such
cases, then (given the symmetry and transitivity of mereological
coincidence) at least one of the located entities in question must
fail to coincide mereologically with the location in question.

## 2. Additional arguments concerning extended simples

### 2.1 Arguments for the possibility of extended simples

#### From Avogadro

Parsons claims that extended simples not just possible but actual on the basis of what he calls the ‘Argument from Avogadro’ (2000: 404):

- V1
- All mereological simples are extensionless. (Assume for reductio)
- V2
- There are only finitely many [material] simples.
- V3
- All [material] objects are mereological sums of [material] simples.
- V4
- All [material] objects are sums of finitely many extensionless things (from V1, V2, and V3)
- V5
- All sums of only finitely many extensionless things are extensionless.
*Therefore*- V6
- All [material] objects are extensionless (from V4 and V5)
- V7
- But of course some [material] objects are extended!
*Therefore*- V8
- Some simples [indeed, some material simples] have extension. (reductio against V1).

Parsons thinks that V2 and V3 are empirically well-confirmed. Some will deny this. A natural thing for supersubstantivalists to say, e.g., is that some complex material objects are sums of continuum-many spacetime points. But let us grant V2 and V3 for the sake of argument.

Even so, one might find the argument unconvincing. In order for V5 to be plausible, ‘extensionless’ cannot mean ‘having the size and shape of a point’: after all, the sum of two spatially separated things each of which has the size and shape of a point will not itself have the size and shape of a point! Instead, ‘extensionless’ will need to mean something like ‘having zero length, zero area, and zero volume’. This makes V7 questionable. It may be obvious that some material objects do not have the same size and shape as a point; that is, it may be obvious that some material objects are at least scattered. But is it obvious that some objects have non-zero length, non-zero, or non-zero volume? Is it obvious that some objects are not merely scattered, but actually fill up a continuous 1-, 2-, 3-, or 4- dimensional region?

#### From Planck

Braddon-Mitchell and Miller suggest that considerations from quantum theory count in favor of extended simples:

Here … is the physical hypothesis about our world that we will consider. Our world contains objects—little two-dimensional squares—that are Planck length by Planck length (an area of 10

^{−66}cms). Are such objects in any sense extended? We think it is plausible that they are. … Is [there] any robust sense in which [such a square] has spatial parts? … [P]lausibly, it is at least necessary that a proper spatial part is an object that occupies a region of space that is a sub-region occupied by the whole… But if proper parts occupy sub-regions of space occupied by the whole, then we have good reason to suppose that given the actual physics of space-time, our Planck square has no such parts. For physicists tell us that we cannot divide up space into any finer-grained regions that those constituted by Planck squares (Greene 2004: 480; Amati, Ciafaloni, and Veneziano 1989; Gross and Mende 1988; Roveli and Smolin 1995). … Hence we know that talking about something occupying a sub-region of a Planck square makes no sense: there is no such sub-region. … But if it makes no sense to talk about the sub-regions of the Planck square, then given our minimal necessary condition of proper parthood, it follows that Planck squares do not have proper mereological parts: they are spatial simples. (2006: 223–224)

Braddon-Mitchell and Miller's argument is, in the first instance, an argument for extended simple regions, and only derivatively an argument for extended simple objects that are exactly located at those regions. As a result, they are able to retain the principle NXS, which says that it is impossible for a simple object to be exactly located at a complex region. Since they find NXS plausible, they see this as an advantage of their argument.

#### From sets

The argument from sets turns on the claim (Maddy 1990: 59) that if
*x* is exactly located at *y* then so is {*x*}:

- (SM1)
- My body is exactly located at a complex, spatially extended spacetime region.
- (SM2)
- For any
*x*and any*y*, if*x*is exactly located at*y*, then {*x*} is exactly located at*y*. - (SM3)
- For any
*x*, {*x*} is simple. *Therefore*- (SM4)
- There is a simple entity (namely, {my body}) that is exactly located at a complex, spatially extended spacetime region.

The argument has no force for those who deny that sets are spatiotemporally located (Cook 2012) or for those who say that even singleton sets have proper parts (Caplan, Tillman, and Reeder 2010).

#### From a more detailed recombination principle

Saucedo's recombination argument for the possibility of extended simples is very similar to his argument for the possibility of interpenetration discussed earlier. Roughly put, he appeals to (i) the principle that there are no necessary truths linking parthood and exact location that cannot be derived from purely mereological necessary truths and purely locational necessary truths, together with (ii) the claim that the sentence

∀

x∀y[L[(x,y) &C(y)] →C(x)]

cannot be so derived. From this it follows that the negation of the above sentence is true with respect to some possible world, i.e., that it is possible for a simple entity to be exactly located at a complex location. As we noted earlier, his recombination principle is subject to the objection that it proves too much.

### 2.2 Arguments against the possibility of extended simples

#### From reference

The argument from reference appeals to the view that if an entity is extended, then we can successfully think and talk about (e.g.) its top half or bottom half. The argument can be framed as follows:

Let

obe a material object, and suppose that it is extended and, say, ball-shaped. Then it must have proper parts. For surely the sentence ‘o's top half has the same shape as its bottom half’ is true. Moreover, that sentence is subject-predicate in form and the expression ‘os top half’ serves as its subject term. When combined with the Tarskian principle that a subject-predicate sentencesis true only if each ofs's subject terms refers to something, this gives us the result that:

- (R1)
- There is an
xsuch that ‘o's top half’ refers tox.But

- (R2)
- For any
x, if ‘o's top half’ refers tox, then:xis a part ofoandx≠o.Taken together, (R1) and (R2) entail that

ois complex, not simple. So, from the assumption thatois ball-shaped, we have derived the conclusion thatxis not simple. This line of reasoning seems perfectly general; presumably some similar and equally forceful argument would apply toanyextended entity (regardless of its specific shape) in any possible world.

Friends of extended simples have a variety of replies. One might say
that ‘*o*'s top half has the same shape as its bottom
half’ is false, though nearly as good as true for all practical
purposes. (An eliminativist about holes might say something similar
about ‘the hole in that doughnut is round’.)
Alternatively, one might deny (R2). In particular, one might say that
‘*o*'s top half’ refers not to any part of *o*,
but to: (*i*) a certain region, namely, the top half of
*o*'s exact location, or (ii) a certain portion of stuff, namely
the top half of the portion of stuff that constitutes of *o*. See
Markosian (1998 and 2004a) for discussion.

#### From divisibility

This argument is based on the thought that being extended entails being divisible, which in turn entails having proper parts. One version of the argument runs as follows:

- (DVI)
- Necessarily, if
*x*is extended, then it is possible for*x*to be divided (where to be divided is to undergo a topological change of a certain sort). - (DV2)
- Necessarily, if it is possible for
*x*to be divided, then*x*has proper parts. *Therefore*- (DVC)
- Necessarily, if
*x*is extended, then*x*has proper parts.

In response, friends of extended simples have raised doubts about both premises. With regard to (DV1), one might think that there could be extended entities that, as a matter of metaphysical necessity, cannot be divided. Further, one might argue that (DV1) depends upon reading ‘extended’ as ‘spatially extended’. For consider an object is extended only temporally: it is temporally extended but spatially point-like. How does its being extended contribute to its being divisible? Consider Thomson's remark: ‘Homework: try breaking a bit of chalk into its two temporal halves’ (1983: 212). Thus the argument from divisibility shows at most that spatially extended simples are impossible. With regard to (DV2), one might argue that (i) when a ball is divided into two separate halves, these halves need not have existed prior to the division. Hence the ball may well have been simple (though divisible) before it was actually divided. Alternatively, one might claim that (ii) simples can be scattered. In that case one could say that the ball was simple both before and after it was divided. See Markosian 1998; Carroll and Markosian 2010, 203–210 for more on these issues.

Other works on extended simples include: Rea 2001; Scala 2002; Zimmerman 2002; Markosian 2004b; McDaniel 2003a; McKinnon 2003; Hudson 2005, 2007; Sider 2007, 2011: 79–82; Horgan and Potrč 2008; Pickup 2016b; Dumsday 2015, 2017. Simons 2004a offers a wide-ranging and scientifically informed defense of extended simples, with special attention to the history of the idea.

## 3. Additional arguments concerning multilocation

### 3.1 An argument for multilocation

#### From No Shifts

Let *orthodox substantivalism* be the view that (i) regions of
space or spacetime exist and are fundamental entities, (ii) material
objects exist and are fundamental entities, (iii) no material object
is identical to any region, nor does any material object share any
parts or constituents with any region, and (iv) there is a fundamental
relation of exact location that each material object bears to exactly
one region.

There is a famous Leibniz-inspired argument against orthodox
substantivalism, which runs roughly as follows. If orthodox
substantivalism is true, then there is a shifted world, a possible
world that differs from the actual world merely with respect to which
material objects are exactly located at which regions. For example,
one shifted world results from shifting all material objects three
feet in a certain direction from their actual locations. Moreover, if
orthodox substantivalism is true, there is a real difference between
the actual world and a shifted world: the worlds differ with respect
to what is exactly located at what. This means that orthodox
substantivalism conflicts with a principle that Bacon
(*forthcoming*) calls

No Shifts: There are no differences between shifted worlds.

But No Shifts is well motivated. A shifted world will obey the laws of physics of the actual world, it will be just like the actual world with respect to the shapes, sizes, and intrinsic properties of material objects, and it will be just like the actual world with respect to the spatiotemporal relations between material objects. Given all this, there is a natural sense in which the actual world and a given shifted world will be alike with respect to all empirical properties and relations. So any difference between shifted worlds will be in some sense undetectable. Thus any theory that denies No Shifts has a theoretical vice: it posits undetectable structure. (For more on such arguments and their history, see the entries on absolute and relational theories of space and motion and Leibniz's philosophy of physics.)

One response to this problem is to reject orthodox substantivalism in
favor of relationism, and eliminate regions or at least deny their
fundamentality. This makes it natural to deny that the relevant sort
of shift could result in a possible world that is different from the
actual world. If there are no regions, then material objects are not
exactly located at them, and there is no possible world that differs
from the actual world merely with respect to where material objects
are located. No Shifts
is thus preserved. (Those relationists who posit regions but deny
their fundamentality will have to make this point in a different way.)
But relationism faces problems of its own, which go beyond the scope
of this entry (Dainton 2010; Maudlin 2012; Pooley 2013; Bacon
*forthcoming*).

A different response, developed by Bacon (*forthcoming*), is to
reject orthodox substantivalism in favor of a radically
multilocationist substantivalism. The details of Bacon's
substantivalist theory are complicated, but the basic idea is that
each material object is exactly located at all and only those regions
that have the same size and shape that it does. Typically, there will
be a great many such regions, and there will be massive overlap among
them. If each material object is already exactly located at every
region that has the same size and shape it does, then there is no
possible world that differs from the actual world merely with respect
to where material objects are located. Once again, No
Shifts is preserved.
Bacon's theory raises a question about why, given this radical
multilocation, material objects do not appear to be repeated or
smeared across all of spacetime. Part of his answer is that the
spatiotemporal relations between material objects remain fixed and
determinate despite their multilocation: my head is three feet away
from this computer screen; it is not seven feet away from the computer
screen.

It is also worth noting here that Bacon sets out a formal theory of parthood and location that bears comparison with those presented in Casati and Varzi (1999) (on which see An Interpenetration-Friendly Theory of Location), Donnelly (2004), (2010), Parsons (2007), Varzi (2007), Uzquiano (2011), and Leonard (2015).

### 3.2 Does Saucedo's recombination principle yield an argument for the possibility of multilocation?

Interestingly, Saucedo's recombination principle, which he uses to
argue for interpenentration, extended simples, and a range of more
exotic possibilities, *cannot* be used to argue for the
possibility of multilocation. The reason for this is that the ban on
multilocation can be stated as a ‘purely locational’
axiom, Functionality, with ‘*L*’ as its lone
non-logical predicate. Hence, so far as Saucedo's recombination
principle is concerned, Functionality may well be a necessary
truth.

### 3.3 Arguments against the possibility of multilocation

#### From three- and four-dimensionality

Barker and Dowe argue that if a thing is exactly located at more than one region, then it will have incompatible shapes:

Take a multi-located entity

O, be it enduring entity or universal. Say thatOis multi-located throughout a 4D space-time regionR. Thus there is a division ofRinto sub-regions, such thatrOis wholly located at each. IfrOis an enduring entity, therswill be temporal slices ofR. IfOis a universal, therswill either be temporal slices or spatio-temporal slices ofR, say points. Consider then the following paradox:

- Paradox 1:
- At each
that is a sub-region ofrR, there is an entity—a universal, or enduring entity—of a certain kind. Call itO. Take the fusion, or mereological sum, of all such_{r}Os . Call the fusion_{r}F(O):_{r}Conclusion:

- Each such
Ois a 3_{r}Dentity, since it is located at a 3Dsub-region.rOis an entity with non-zero spatial extent and zero temporal extent. Each_{r}Ois identical to every other. So each_{r}Ois identical with_{r}F(O). So,_{r}F(O) is a 3_{r}Dentity.F(O) has parts at every sub-region of_{r}R. So it has non-zero spatial and temporal extent.F(O) is a 4_{r}Dentity.F(O) is both 3_{r}Dand 4D, but that is a contradiction since being 3D means having no temporal extent, and being 4D means having temporal extent. (Barker and Dowe 2003: 107)

McDaniel (2003b) argues that the endurantist should respond by
distinguishing between two ways of having a shape: an object can have
a shape intrinsically (by virtue of the way the object is in itself)
or extrinsically (by virtue of occupying a region that has the given
shape intrinsically). In that case, he suggests, the endurantist can
say that Barker and Dowe's entity *O* is intrinsically
three-dimensional and only extrinsically four-dimensional, where there
is nothing impossible about having one shape intrinsically and an
incompatible shape extrinsically.

A different response, variants of which have been defended by Beebee
and Rush (2003), Gibson and Pooley (2006: 193, note 17), Gilmore
(2006: 201), and Sattig (2006: 50), runs as follows. The object
*O* is three-dimensional at each of the *r*s, since it is
exactly located at each of them and each them is three-dimensional. If
it could be shown that *O* is *also* exactly located at
*R*, the *sum* of the *r*s, then we would need to say
that *O* is four-dimensional at *R*. But this has not been
shown, and the friend of multilocation is under no apparent pressure
to accept it. Moreover, even if it *were* shown, the most that
would result (given a relativizing approach to shapes) is that
*O* is three-dimensional *at each of the rs* and
four-dimensional

*at*. But there is nothing obviously impossible about this, since none of the

*R**r*s is identical to

*R*. (Barker and Dowe 2003 offer additional arguments against multilocation that we will not discuss here, as does Lowe 2002, 382–383; Barker and Dowe 2005 reply to Beebee and Rush 2003 and McDaniel 2003b. For further criticism of Barker and Dowe's arguments, see Smith 2008, Daniels 2013, Calosi and Costa 2015, and Eagle 2016b. Related arguments against multilocation are put forward in Benovsky 2009 and Calosi 2014.)

#### From time travel and weak supplementation

Effingham and Robson (2007) have argued that the possibility of
backward time travel gives rise to mereological problems for
multilocation, at least in its endurantist form. They consider a case
in which a certain enduring brick, Brick_{1}, travels backward
in time repeatedly, so that it exists at a certain time,
*t*_{100}, ‘many times over’. At that time
there exist what appear to be one hundred bricks, call them
*Brick _{1} … Brick_{100}*, though in
fact each of them is identical to Brick

_{1}(on one or another of its journeys to the time

*t*

_{100}), and a bricklayer arranges ‘them’ into what appears to be a brick wall,

*Wall*. Effingham and Robson write that

There is a principle of mereology known as the Weak Supplementation Principle (WSP) which states that every object with a proper part has another proper part that does not overlap the first. If Brick

_{1}, Brick_{2}, …, Brick_{100}composed a wall, WSP would be false. Consider: any object that was a part of the wall would have to overlap some brick, and as every brick is Brick_{1}if that object overlaps some brick it overlaps Brick_{1}. Therefore if att_{100}Brick_{1}, Brick_{2}, …, Brick_{100}composed a wall, there would be no object that could be a proper part of the wall that does not overlap Brick_{1}. Given Brick_{1}is a proper part of that wall, WSP would then be false (2007: 634–635).

Effingham and Robson take this case as a reason to reject locational
endurantism. Smith (2009) replies by rejecting WSP and arguing that
this is independently motivated, though see Effingham (2010a) for a
reply. Donnelly (2011a) offers a response similar in spirit to
Smith's. Gilmore (2009) replies by conceding for the sake of argument
that WSP is correct, *modulo* considerations about the adicy of
parthood: if the fundamental parthood relation is two-place, then WSP
itself is correct, if the fundamental parthood relation is three-place
and time-indexed (Thomson 1983), then a time-indexed version of WSP is
correct, and so on. (Recall our provisional assumption in section one
that parthood is two-place. We are now considering a reason for
dropping that assumption.) Gilmore argues that friends of
multilocation have independent reasons to treat the fundamental
parthood relation as a four-place relation, and that the four-place
version of WSP is not threatened by Effingham and Robson's case.

Kleinschmidt (2011) considers a variety of multilocation-based counterexamples to other popular mereological principles. She independently proposes that they can be handled by taking parthood to be a four-place relation, though she ultimately argues against the four-place view.