#### Supplement to Deontic Logic

## Two Counter-Models Regarding Additions to SDL

We now provide a counter-model to show that A4,
**OB**(**OB***p* → *p*),
is indeed a genuine (non-derivable) addition to SDL:

Here, seriality holds, since each of the three worlds has at least one
world acceptable to it (in fact, exactly one), but *secondary*
seriality fails, since although *j* is acceptable to
*i*, *j* is not acceptable to itself. Now look at the
top annotations regarding the assignment of truth or falsity to
*p* at *j* and *k*. The lower deontic formuli
derive from this assignment and the accessibility relations. (The
value of *p* at *i* won't matter.) Since *p*
holds at *k*, which exhausts the worlds acceptable to
*j*, **OB***p* must hold at *j*, but
then, since *p* itself is false at *j*,
(**OB***p* → *p*) must be false at
*j*. But *j* is acceptable to *i*, so not all
*i*-acceptable worlds are ones where
(**OB***p* → *p*) holds, so
**OB**(**OB***p* → *p*)
must be false at
*i*.^{[1]}
We have already proven that seriality, which holds in this model,
automatically validates **OB**-D. It is easy to show that
the remaining ingredients of SDL hold here as
well.^{[2]}

We proved above that (**OBOB***p* →
**OB***p*) is derivable from A4. Here is a model
that shows that the converse fails. It is left to the reader to verify
that given the accessibility relations and indicated assignments to
*p* at *j* and *k*,
**OBOB***p* → **OB***p*
must be (vacuously) true at *i*, while
**OB**(**OB***p* → *p*)
must be false at *i*.

Return to Deontic Logic.