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Bertrand Arthur William Russell (1872–1970) was a British philosopher, logician, essayist and social critic best known for his work in mathematical logic and analytic philosophy. His most influential contributions include his championing of logicism (the view that mathematics is in some important sense reducible to logic), his refining of Gottlob Frege’s predicate calculus (which still forms the basis of most contemporary systems of logic), his defense of neutral monism (the view that the world consists of just one type of substance which is neither exclusively mental nor exclusively physical), and his theories of definite descriptions, logical atomism and logical types.
Together with G.E. Moore, Russell is generally recognized as one of the main founders of modern analytic philosophy. His famous paradox, theory of types, and work with A.N. Whitehead on Principia Mathematica reinvigorated the study of logic throughout the twentieth century (Schilpp 1944, xiii; Wilczek 2010, 74).
Over the course of a long career, Russell also made significant contributions to a broad range of other subjects, including ethics, politics, educational theory, the history of ideas and religious studies, cheerfully ignoring Hooke’s admonition to the Royal Society against “meddling with Divinity, Metaphysics, Moralls, Politicks, Grammar, Rhetorick, or Logick” (Kreisel 1973, 24). In addition, generations of general readers have benefited from his many popular writings on a wide variety of topics in both the humanities and the natural sciences. Like Voltaire, to whom he has been compared (Times of London 1970, 12)), he wrote with style and wit and had enormous influence.
After a life marked by controversy—including dismissals from both Trinity College, Cambridge, and City College, New York—Russell was awarded the Order of Merit in 1949 and the Nobel Prize for Literature in 1950. Noted also for his many spirited anti-nuclear protests and for his campaign against western involvement in the Vietnam War, Russell remained a prominent public figure until his death at the age of 97.
Interested readers may listen to two sound clips of Russell speaking or consult the Bertrand Russell Society’s video archive for video clips of and about Russell. (Members of the Society have access to a significantly larger video library than is available to the general public.)
- 1. Russell’s Chronology
- 2. Russell’s Work in Logic
- 3. Russell’s Work in Analytic Philosophy
- 4. Russell’s Theory of Definite Descriptions
- 5. Russell’s Theory of Neutral Monism
- 6. Russell’s Social and Political Philosophy
- 7. Contemporary Russell Scholarship
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
A short chronology of the major events in Russell’s life is as follows:
- (1872) Born May 18 at Ravenscroft in Trelleck, Monmouthshire, UK.
- (1874) Death of mother and sister.
- (1876) Death of father; Russell’s grandfather, Lord John Russell (the former Prime Minister), and grandmother succeed in overturning Russell’s father’s will to win custody of Russell and his brother, rather than have them raised as free-thinkers.
- (1878) Death of grandfather; Russell’s grandmother, Lady Russell, supervises Russell’s upbringing at Pembroke Lodge, London.
- (1883) Receives his first lessons in geometry from his brother Frank.
- (1890) Enters Trinity College, Cambridge; meets Whitehead.
- (1893) Awarded first-class B.A. in Mathematics.
- (1894) Completes the Moral Sciences Tripos (Part II); appointed Honorary British Attaché in Paris; marries Alys Pearsall Smith.
- (1895) Studies at the University of Berlin.
- (1896) Appointed lecturer at the London School of Economics; lectures in the United States at Johns Hopkins and Bryn Mawr.
- (1899) Appointed lecturer at Trinity College, Cambridge.
- (1900) Meets Peano at the First International Congress of Philosophy in Paris.
- (1901) Reappointed lecturer at Cambridge; discovers Russell’s paradox.
- (1902) Corresponds with Frege.
- (1905) Develops his theory of descriptions.
- (1907) Runs for parliament and is defeated.
- (1908) Elected Fellow of the Royal Society.
- (1910) Fails to receive Liberal Party nomination for parliament because of his atheism; reappointed lecturer at Trinity College, Cambridge.
- (1911) Meets Wittgenstein; elected President of the Aristotelian Society; separates from Alys.
- (1913) Lectures at the École des Hautes Sociales in Paris.
- (1914) Visits Harvard and teaches courses in logic and the theory of knowledge; meets T.S. Eliot.
- (1915) Reappointed lecturer at Trinity College, Cambridge.
- (1916) Fined 100 pounds and dismissed from Trinity College as a result of anti-war writings; denied a passport and so unable to lecture at Harvard.
- (1918) Imprisoned for five months as a result of anti-war writings.
- (1920) Visits Russia.
- (1921) Divorce from Alys and marriage to Dora Black; visits China and Japan.
- (1922) Runs for parliament and is defeated.
- (1923) Runs for parliament and is defeated.
- (1924) Lectures in the United States.
- (1927) Lectures in the United States; opens experimental school with Dora.
- (1929) Lectures in the United States.
- (1931) Lectures in the United States; becomes the third Earl Russell upon the death of his brother.
- (1935) Divorce from Dora.
- (1936) Marriage to Patricia (Peter) Helen Spence.
- (1938) Appointed visiting professor of philosophy at Chicago.
- (1939) Appointed professor of philosophy at the University of California at Los Angeles.
- (1940) Appointment at City College New York revoked prior to Russell’s arrival as the result of public protests and a legal judgment in which Russell was found to be “morally unfit” to teach at the college; delivers the William James Lectures at Harvard.
- (1941) Appointed lecturer at the Barnes Foundation in Pennsylvania.
- (1942) Dismissed from Barnes Foundation, but wins a lawsuit against the Foundation for wrongful dismissal.
- (1944) Reappointed a Fellow of Trinity College.
- (1948) Involved in a plane crash en route to Norway, he and other passengers save themselves by swimming in the ocean until help arrives.
- (1949) Awarded the Order of Merit; elected a Lifetime Fellow at Trinity College.
- (1950) Awarded Nobel Prize for Literature; visits Australia.
- (1951) Lectures in the United States.
- (1952) Divorce from Patricia (Peter) and marriage to Edith Finch.
- (1955) Releases Russell-Einstein Manifesto.
- (1957) Elected President of the first Pugwash Conference.
- (1958) Becomes founding President of the Campaign for Nuclear Disarmament.
- (1961) Imprisoned for one week in connection with anti-nuclear protests.
- (1963) Establishes the Bertrand Russell Peace Foundation.
- (1967) Launches the International War Crimes Tribunal.
- (1970) Dies February 02 at Penrhyndeudraeth, Wales.
Attempts to sum up Russell’s life have been numerous. One of the more famous comes from the Oxford philosopher A.J. Ayer. As Ayer writes, “The popular conception of a philosopher as one who combines universal learning with the direction of human conduct was more nearly satisfied by Bertrand Russell than by any other philosopher of our time” (1972a, 127). Another telling comment comes from the Harvard philosopher W.V. Quine: “I think many of us were drawn to our profession by Russell’s books. He wrote a spectrum of books for a graduated public, layman to specialist. We were beguiled by the wit and a sense of new-found clarity with respect to central traits of reality” (1966c, 657).
Despite such comments, perhaps the most memorable encapsulation of Russell’s life and work comes from Russell himself. As Russell tells us,
Three passions, simple but overwhelmingly strong, have governed my life: the longing for love, the search for knowledge, and unbearable pity for the suffering of mankind. These passions, like great winds, have blown me hither and thither, in a wayward course, over a great ocean of anguish, reaching to the very verge of despair.
I have sought love, first, because it brings ecstasy – ecstasy so great that I would often have sacrificed all the rest of life for a few hours of this joy. I have sought it, next, because it relieves loneliness – that terrible loneliness in which one shivering consciousness looks over the rim of the world into the cold unfathomable lifeless abyss. I have sought it finally, because in the union of love I have seen, in a mystic miniature, the prefiguring vision of the heaven that saints and poets have imagined. This is what I sought, and though it might seem too good for human life, this is what – at last – I have found.
With equal passion I have sought knowledge. I have wished to understand the hearts of men. I have wished to know why the stars shine. And I have tried to apprehend the Pythagorean power by which number holds sway above the flux. A little of this, but not much, I have achieved.
Love and knowledge, so far as they were possible, led upward toward the heavens. But always pity brought me back to earth. Echoes of cries of pain reverberate in my heart. Children in famine, victims tortured by oppressors, helpless old people a hated burden to their sons, and the whole world of loneliness, poverty, and pain make a mockery of what human life should be. I long to alleviate this evil, but I cannot, and I too suffer.
This has been my life. I have found it worth living, and would gladly live it again if the chance were offered me. (1967, 3–4)
By any standard, Russell led an enormously full life. In addition to his ground-breaking intellectual work in logic and analytic philosophy, he involved himself for much of his life in politics. As early as 1904 he spoke out frequently in favour of internationalism and in 1907 he ran unsuccessfully for Parliament. Although he stood as an independent, he endorsed the full 1907 Liberal platform. He also advocated extending the franchise to women, provided that such a radical political change would be introduced only through constitutionally recognized means (Wood 1957, 71). Three years later he published his Anti-Suffragist Anxieties (1910).
With the outbreak of World War I, Russell became involved in anti-war activities and in 1916 he was fined 100 pounds for authoring an anti-war pamphlet. Because of his conviction, he was dismissed from his post at Trinity College, Cambridge (Hardy 1942). Two years later, he was convicted a second time, this time for suggesting that American troops might be used to intimidate strikers in Britain (Clark 1975, 337–339). The result was five months in Brixton Prison as prisoner No. 2917 (Clark 1975). In 1922 and 1923 Russell ran twice more for Parliament, again unsuccessfully, and together with his second wife, Dora, he founded an experimental school that they operated during the late 1920s and early 1930s (Russell 1926 and Park 1963). Perhaps not surprisingly, some of Russell’s more radical activities – including his advocacy of post-Victorian sexual practices – were linked in many people’s minds to his atheism, made famous in part by his 1948 BBC debate with the Jesuit philosopher Frederick Copleston over the existence of God.
Although Russell became the third Earl Russell upon the death of his brother in 1931, Russell’s radicalism continued to make him a controversial figure well through middle-age. While teaching at UCLA in the United States in the late 1930s, he was offered a teaching appointment at City College, New York. The appointment was revoked following a series of protests and a 1940 judicial decision which found him morally unfit to teach at the College (Dewey and Kallen 1941, Irvine 1996, Weidlich 2000). The legal decision had been based partly on Russell’s atheism and partly on his fame as an advocate of free love and open marriages.
In 1954 Russell delivered his famous “Man’s Peril” broadcast on the BBC, condemning the Bikini H-bomb tests. A year later, together with Albert Einstein, he released the Russell-Einstein Manifesto calling for the curtailment of nuclear weapons. In 1957 he became a prime organizer of the first Pugwash Conference, which brought together a large number of scientists concerned about the nuclear issue. He became the founding president of the Campaign for Nuclear Disarmament in 1958 and Honorary President of the Committee of 100 in 1960.
In 1961, Russell was once again imprisoned, this time for a week in connection with anti-nuclear protests. The media coverage surrounding his conviction only served to enhance Russell’s reputation and to further inspire the many idealistic youths who were sympathetic to his anti-war and anti-nuclear message. Beginning in 1963, he began work on a variety of additional issues, including lobbying on behalf of political prisoners under the auspices of the Bertrand Russell Peace Foundation.
Interestingly, throughout much of his life, Russell saw himself primarily as a writer rather than as a philosopher, listing “Author” as his profession on his passport. As he says in his Autobiography, “I resolved not to adopt a profession, but to devote myself to writing” (1967, 125). Upon being awarded the Nobel Prize for Literature in 1950, Russell used his acceptance speech to emphasize themes relating to his social activism.
Over the years, Russell has served as the subject of numerous creative works, including T.S. Eliot’s “Mr Appolinax” (1917), D.H. Lawrence’s “The Blind Man” (1920), Aldous Huxley’s Chrome Yellow (1921), Bruce Duffy’s The World as I Found It (1987) and the graphic novel by Apostolos Doxiadis and Christos Papadimitriou, Logicomix: An Epic Search for Truth (2009).
Readers wanting additional information about Russell’s life are encouraged to consult Russell’s five autobiographical volumes: Portraits from Memory and other Essays (A1956b), My Philosophical Development (1959) and The Autobiography of Bertrand Russell (3 vols, 1967, 1968, 1969). In addition, John Slater’s accessible Bertrand Russell (1994) gives a short but informative introduction to Russell’s life, work and influence. Other sources of biographical information include Ronald Clark’s authoritative The Life of Bertrand Russell (1975), Ray Monk’s two volumes, Bertrand Russell: The Spirit of Solitude (1996) and Bertrand Russell: The Ghost of Madness (2000), and the first volume of Andrew Irvine’s Bertrand Russell: Critical Assessments (1999).
For a chronology of Russell’s major publications, readers are encouraged to consult the Primary Literature section of the Bibliography below. For a complete, descriptive bibliography, see A Bibliography of Bertrand Russell (3 vols, 1994), by Kenneth Blackwell and Harry Ruja. A less detailed list appears in Paul Arthur Schilpp, The Philosophy of Bertrand Russell (1944).
For a detailed bibliography of the secondary literature surrounding Russell up to the close of the twentieth century, see Andrew Irvine, Bertrand Russell: Critical Assessments, Vol. 1 (1999). For a list of new and forthcoming books relating to Russell, see the Forthcoming Books page at the Bertrand Russell Archives.
Russell’s main contributions to logic and the foundations of mathematics include his discovery of Russell’s paradox (also known as the Russell-Zermelo paradox), his development of the theory of types, his championing of logicism (the view that mathematics is, in some significant sense, reducible to formal logic), his impressively general theory of logical relations, his formalization of the mathematics of quantity and of the real numbers, and his refining of the first-order predicate calculus.
Russell discovered the paradox that bears his name in 1901, while working on his Principles of Mathematics (1903). The paradox arises in connection with the set of all sets that are not members of themselves. Such a set, if it exists, will be a member of itself if and only if it is not a member of itself. In his 1901 draft of the Principles of Mathematics, Russell summarizes the problem as follows:
The axiom that all referents with respect to a given relation form a class seems, however, to require some limitation, and that for the following reason. We saw that some predicates can be predicated of themselves. Consider now those … of which this is not the case. … [T]here is no predicate which attaches to all of them and to no other terms. For this predicate will either be predicable or not predicable of itself. If it is predicable of itself, it is one of those referents by relation to which it was defined, and therefore, in virtue of their definition, it is not predicable of itself. Conversely, if it is not predicable of itself, then again it is one of the said referents, of all of which (by hypothesis) it is predicable, and therefore again it is predicable of itself. This is a contradiction. (CP, Vol. 3, 195)
The paradox is significant since, using classical logic, all sentences are entailed by a contradiction. Russell’s discovery thus prompted a large amount of work in logic, set theory, and the philosophy and foundations of mathematics.
Russell’s response to the paradox came between 1903 and 1908 with the development of his theory of types. It was clear to Russell that some form of restriction needed to be placed on the original comprehension (or abstraction) axiom of naïve set theory, the axiom that formalizes the intuition that any coherent condition (or property) may be used to determine a set. Russell’s basic idea was that reference to sets such as the so-called Russell set (the set of all sets that are not members of themselves) could be avoided by arranging all sentences into a hierarchy, beginning with sentences about individuals at the lowest level, sentences about sets of individuals at the next lowest level, sentences about sets of sets of individuals at the next lowest level, and so on. Using a vicious circle principle similar to that adopted by the mathematician Henri Poincaré, together with his so-called “no class” theory of classes (in which class terms gain meaning only when placed in the appropriate context), Russell was able to explain why the unrestricted comprehension axiom fails: propositional functions, such as the function “x is a set,” may not be applied to themselves since self-application would involve a vicious circle. As a result, all objects for which a given condition (or predicate) holds must be at the same level or of the same “type.” Sentences about these objects will then always be higher in the hierarchy than the objects themselves.
Although first introduced in 1903, the theory of types was further developed by Russell in his 1908 article “Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types” and in the three-volume work he co-authored with Alfred North Whitehead, Principia Mathematica (1910, 1912, 1913). The theory thus admits of two versions, the “simple theory” of 1903 and the “ramified theory” of 1908. Both versions of the theory came under attack: the simple theory for being too weak, the ramified theory for being too strong. For some, it was important that any proposed solution be comprehensive enough to resolve all known paradoxes at once. For others, it was important that any proposed solution not disallow those parts of classical mathematics that remained consistent, even though they appeared to violate the vicious circle principle. For discussion of related paradoxes, see Chapter 2 of the Introduction to Whitehead and Russell (1910), as well as the entry on paradoxes and contemporary logic in this encyclopedia.
Russell himself had recognized several of these same concerns as early as 1903, noting that it was unlikely that any single solution would resolve all of the known paradoxes. Together with Whitehead, he was also able to introduce a new axiom, the axiom of reducibility, which lessened the vicious circle principle’s scope of application and so resolved many of the most worrisome aspects of type theory. Even so, critics claimed that the axiom was simply too ad hoc to be justified philosophically. For additional discussion see Linsky (1990), Linsky (2002) and Wahl (2011).
Of equal significance during this period was Russell’s defense of logicism, the theory that mathematics is in some important sense reducible to logic. First defended in his 1901 article “Recent Work on the Principles of Mathematics,” and later in greater detail in his Principles of Mathematics and in Principia Mathematica, Russell’s logicism consisted of two main theses. The first was that all mathematical truths can be translated into logical truths or, in other words, that the vocabulary of mathematics constitutes a proper subset of the vocabulary of logic. The second was that all mathematical proofs can be recast as logical proofs or, in other words, that the theorems of mathematics constitute a proper subset of the theorems of logic. As Russell summarizes, “The fact that all Mathematics is Symbolic Logic is one of the greatest discoveries of our age; and when this fact has been established, the remainder of the principles of mathematics consists in the analysis of Symbolic Logic itself” (1903, 5).
Like Gottlob Frege, Russell’s basic idea for defending logicism was that numbers may be identified with classes of classes and that number-theoretic statements may be explained in terms of quantifiers and identity. Thus the number 1 is to be identified with the class of all unit classes, the number 2 with the class of all two-membered classes, and so on. Statements such as “There are at least two books” would be recast as statements such as “There is a book, x, and there is a book, y, and x is not identical to y.” Statements such as “There are exactly two books” would be recast as “There is a book, x, and there is a book, y, and x is not identical to y, and if there is a book, z, then z is identical to either x or y.” It follows that number-theoretic operations may then be explained in terms of set-theoretic operations such as intersection, union, and difference. In Principia Mathematica, Whitehead and Russell were able to provide many detailed derivations of major theorems in set theory, finite and transfinite arithmetic, and elementary measure theory. They were also able to develop a sophisticated theory of logical relations and a unique method of founding the real numbers. Even so, the issue of whether set theory itself can be said to have been successfully reduced to logic remained controversial. A fourth volume on geometry was planned but never completed.
Russell’s most important writings relating to these topics include not only his Principles of Mathematics (1903), “Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types” (1908), and Principia Mathematica (1910, 1912, 1913), but also his earlier Essay on the Foundations of Geometry (1897) and his Introduction to Mathematical Philosophy (1919a), the last of which was written while Russell was serving time in Brixton Prison as a result of his anti-war activities. Coincidentally, it was at roughly this same time that Ludwig Wittgenstein, Russell’s most famous pupil, was completing his Tractatus Logico-Philosophicus (1921) while being detained as a prisoner of war at Monte Cassino in Italy during World War I.
Anyone needing assistance in deciphering the symbolism found in the more technical of Russell’s writings is encouraged to consult the Notation in Principia Mathematica entry in this encyclopedia.
In much the same way that Russell used logic in an attempt to clarify issues in the foundations of mathematics, he also used logic in an attempt to clarify issues in philosophy. As one of the founders of analytic philosophy, Russell made significant contributions to a wide variety of areas, including metaphysics, epistemology, ethics and political theory. His advances in logic and metaphysics also had significant influence on Rudolf Carnap and the Vienna Circle.
According to Russell, it is the philosopher’s job to discover a logically ideal language — a language that will exhibit the nature of the world in such a way that we will not be misled by the accidental, imprecise surface structure of natural language. As Russell writes, “Ordinary language is totally unsuited for expressing what physics really asserts, since the words of everyday life are not sufficiently abstract. Only mathematics and mathematical logic can say as little as the physicist means to say” (1931, 82). Just as atomic facts (the association of properties and relations with individuals) combine to form molecular facts in the world itself, such a language will allow for the description of such combinations using logical connectives such as “and” and “or.” In addition to the existence of atomic and molecular facts, Russell also held that general facts (facts about “all” of something) are needed to complete our picture of the world. Famously, he vacillated on whether negative facts are also required.
The reason Russell believes many ordinarily accepted statements are open to doubt is that they appear to refer to entities that may be known only through inference. Thus, underlying Russell’s various projects was not only his use of logical analysis, but also his long-standing aim of discovering whether, and to what extent, knowledge is possible. “There is one great question,” he writes in 1911. “Can human beings know anything, and if so, what and how? This question is really the most essentially philosophical of all questions” (quoted in Slater 1994, 67).
Motivating this question was the traditional problem of the external world. If our knowledge of the external world comes through inferences to the best explanation, and if such inferences are always fallible, what guarantee do we have that our beliefs are reliable? Russell’s response to this question was partly metaphysical and partly epistemological. On the metaphysical side, Russell developed his famous theory of logical atomism, in which the world is said to consist of a complex of logical atoms (such as “little patches of colour”) and their properties and relations. (The theory was crucial for influencing Wittgenstein’s theory of the same name.) Together these atoms and their properties form the atomic facts which, in turn, combine to form logically complex objects. What we normally take to be inferred entities (for example, enduring physical objects) are then understood as logical constructions formed from the immediately given entities of sensation, viz., “sensibilia.”
On the epistemological side, Russell argues that it is also important to show how each questionable entity may be reduced to, or defined in terms of, another entity (or entities) whose existence is more certain. For example, on this view, an ordinary physical object that normally might be thought to be known only through inference may be defined instead
as a certain series of appearances, connected with each other by continuity and by certain causal laws. … More generally, a ‘thing’ will be defined as a certain series of aspects, namely those which would commonly be said to be of the thing. To say that a certain aspect is an aspect of a certain thing will merely mean that it is one of those which, taken serially, are the thing. (1914a, 106–107)
The reason we are able to do this, says Russell, is that
our world is not wholly a matter of inference. There are things that we know without asking the opinion of men of science. If you are too hot or too cold, you can be perfectly aware of this fact without asking the physicist what heat and cold consist of. … We may give the name ‘data’ to all the things of which we are aware without inference. (1959, 23)
We can then use these data (or “sensibilia” or “sense data”) with which we are directly acquainted to construct the relevant objects of knowledge. Similarly, numbers may be reduced to collections of classes; points and instants may be reduced to ordered classes of volumes and events; and classes themselves may be reduced to propositional functions.
It is with these kinds of examples in mind that Russell suggests we adopt what he calls “the supreme maxim in scientific philosophizing,” namely the principle that “Whenever possible, logical constructions,” or as he also sometimes puts it, “logical fictions,” are “to be substituted for inferred entities” (1914c, 155; cf. 1914a, 107, and 1924, 326). Anything that resists construction in this sense may be said to be an ontological atom. Such objects are atomic, both in the sense that they fail to be composed of individual, substantial parts, and in the sense that they exist independently of one another. Their corresponding propositions are also atomic, both in the sense that they contain no other propositions as parts, and in the sense that the members of any pair of true atomic propositions will be logically independent of one another. Russell believes that formal logic, if carefully developed, will mirror precisely, not only the various relations between all such propositions, but their various internal structures as well.
It is in this context that Russell also introduces his famous distinction between two kinds of knowledge of truths: that which is direct, intuitive, certain and infallible, and that which is indirect, derivative, uncertain and open to error (1905, 41f; 1911, 1912, and 1914b). To be justified, every indirect knowledge claim must be capable of being derived from more fundamental, direct or intuitive knowledge claims. The kinds of truths that are capable of being known directly include both truths about immediate facts of sensation and truths of logic. Examples are discussed in The Problems of Philosophy (1912a) where Russell states that propositions with the highest degree of self-evidence (what he here calls “intuitive knowledge”) include “those which merely state what is given in sense, and also certain abstract logical and arithmetical principles, and (though with less certainty) some ethical propositions” (1912a, 109).
Eventually, Russell supplemented this distinction between direct and indirect knowledge of truths with his equally famous distinction between knowledge by acquaintance and knowledge by description. As Russell explains, “I say that I am acquainted with an object when I have a direct cognitive relation to that object, i.e. when I am directly aware of the object itself. When I speak of a cognitive relation here, I do not mean the sort of relation which constitutes judgment, but the sort which constitutes presentation” (1911, 209). Later, he clarifies this point by adding that acquaintance involves, not knowledge of truths, but knowledge of things (1912a, 44). Thus, while intuitive knowledge and derivative knowledge both involve knowledge of propositions (or truths), knowledge by acquaintance and knowledge by description both involve knowledge of things (or objects). This distinction is slightly complicated by the fact that, even though knowledge by description is in part based upon knowledge of truths, it is still knowledge of things, and not of truths. (I am grateful to Russell Wahl for reminding me of this point.) Since it is things with which we have direct acquaintance that are the least questionable members of our ontology, it is these objects upon which Russell ultimately bases his epistemology.
Also relevant was Russell’s reliance upon his so-called regressive method (Irvine 1989, Mayo-Wilson 2011) and his eventual abandoning of foundationalism in favour of a more recognizably coherentist approach to knowledge (Irvine 2004). As Russell puts it, even in logic and mathematics
We tend to believe the premises because we can see that their consequences are true, instead of believing the consequences because we know the premises to be true. But the inferring of premises from consequences is the essence of induction; thus the method in investigating the principles of mathematics is really an inductive method, and is substantially the same as the method of discovering general laws in any other science. (1907, 273–274)
Russell’s contributions to metaphysics and epistemology are also unified by his views concerning the centrality of both scientific knowledge and the importance of there being an underlying methodology common to both philosophy and science. In the case of philosophy, this methodology expresses itself through Russell’s use of logical analysis (Hager 1994, Irvine 2004). In fact, Russell often claims that he has more confidence in his methodology than in any particular philosophical conclusion.
This broad conception of philosophy arose in part from Russell’s idealist origins (Hylton 1990a, Griffin 1991). This is so, even though Russell tells us that his one, true revolution in philosophy came as a result of his break from idealism. Russell saw that the idealist doctrine of internal relations led to a series of contradictions regarding asymmetrical (and other) relations necessary for mathematics. As he reports,
It was towards the end of 1898 that Moore and I rebelled against both Kant and Hegel. Moore led the way, but I followed closely in his footsteps. … [Our rebellion centred upon] the doctrine that fact is in general independent of experience. Although we were in agreement, I think that we differed as to what most interested us in our new philosophy. I think that Moore was most concerned with the rejection of idealism, while I was most interested in the rejection of monism. (1959, 54)
The two ideas were closely connected through the so-called doctrine of internal relations. In contrast to this doctrine, Russell proposed his own new doctrine of external relations:
The doctrine of internal relations held that every relation between two terms expresses, primarily, intrinsic properties of the two terms and, in ultimate analysis, a property of the whole which the two compose. With some relations this view is plausible. Take, for example, love or hate. If A loves B, this relation exemplifies itself and may be said to consist in certain states of mind of A. Even an atheist must admit that a man can love God. It follows that love of God is a state of the man who feels it, and not properly a relational fact. But the relations that interested me were of a more abstract sort. Suppose that A and B are events, and A is earlier than B. I do not think that this implies anything in A in virtue of which, independently of B, it must have a character which we inaccurately express by mentioning B. Leibniz gives an extreme example. He says that, if a man living in Europe has a wife in India and the wife dies without his knowing it, the man undergoes an intrinsic change at the moment of her death. (1959, 54)
This is the type of doctrine Russell opposed, especially with respect to the asymmetrical relations necessary for mathematics. For example, consider two numbers, one of which is found earlier than the other in a given series:
If A is earlier than B, then B is not earlier than A. If you try to express the relation of A to B by means of adjectives of A and B, you will have to make the attempt by means of dates. You may say that the date of A is a property of A and the date of B is a property of B, but that will not help you because you will have to go on to say that the date of A is earlier than the date of B, so that you will have found no escape from the relation. If you adopt the plan of regarding the relation as a property of the whole composed of A and B, you are in a still worse predicament, for in that whole A and B have no order and therefore you cannot distinguish between “A is earlier than B” and “B is earlier than A.” As asymmetrical relations are essential in most parts of mathematics, this doctrine was important. (1959, 54–55)
Thus, by the end of 1898 Russell had abandoned the idealism that he had been encouraged to adopt as a student at Cambridge, along with his original Kantian methodology. In its place he adopted a new, pluralistic realism. As a result, he soon became famous as an advocate of “the new realism” and of his “new philosophy of logic,” emphasizing as he did the importance of modern logic for philosophical analysis. The underlying themes of this revolution included Russell’s belief in pluralism, his emphasis on anti-psychologism and his belief in the importance of science. Each of these themes remained central to his philosophy for the remainder of his life (Hager 1994, Weitz 1944).
Russell’s most important writings relating to these topics include Knowledge by Acquaintance and Knowledge by Description (1911), The Problems of Philosophy (1912a), “Our Knowledge of the External World” (1914a), On the Nature of Acquaintance (1914b, published more completely in Collected Papers, Vol. 7), “The Philosophy of Logical Atomism” (1918, 1919), “Logical Atomism” (1924), The Analysis of Mind (1921), The Analysis of Matter (1927a), Human Knowledge: Its Scope and Limits (1948), and Theory of Knowledge (CP, Vol. 7).
Russell’s philosophical method has at its core the making and testing of hypotheses through the weighing of evidence. Hence Russell’s comment that he wished to emphasize the “scientific method” in philosophy. His method also requires the rigorous analysis of problematic propositions using the machinery of first-order logic. It was Russell’s belief that by using the new logic of his day, philosophers would be able to exhibit the underlying “logical form” of natural-language statements. A statement’s logical form, in turn, would help resolve various problems of reference associated with the ambiguity and vagueness of natural language.
Since the introduction of the modern predicate calculus, it has been common to use three separate logical notations (“Px”, “x = y”, and “∃x”) to represent three separate senses of the natural-language word “is”: the is of predication, e.g. “Cicero is wise”; the is of identity, e.g. “Cicero is Tully”; and the is of existence, e.g. “Cicero is”. It was Russell’s suggestion that, just as we use logic to make clear these distinctions, we can also use logic to discover other ontologically significant distinctions, distinctions that should be reflected in the analysis we give of each sentence’s correct logical form.
On Russell’s view, the subject matter of philosophy is then distinguished from that of the sciences only by the generality and a prioricity of philosophical statements, not by the underlying methodology of the discipline. In philosophy, just as in mathematics, Russell believed that it was by applying logical machinery and insights that advances in analysis would be made.
Russell’s most famous example of his new “analytic method” concerns so-called denoting phrases, phrases that include both definite descriptions and proper names. Like Alexius Meinong, Russell had initially adopted the view that every denoting phrase (for example, “Scott,” “the author of Waverley,” “the number two,” “the golden mountain”) denoted, or referred to, an existing entity. On this view, even fictional and imaginary entities had to be real in order to serve as truth-makers for true sentences such as “Unicorns have exactly one horn.” By the time his landmark article, “On Denoting,” appeared in 1905, Russell had modified his extreme realism, substituting in its place the view that denoting phrases need not possess a theoretical unity. As Russell puts it, the assumption that every denoting phrase must refer to an existing entity was the type of assumption that exhibited “a failure of that feeling for reality which ought to be preserved even in the most abstract studies” (1919a, 165).
While logically proper names (words such as “this” or “that” which refer to sensations of which an agent is immediately aware) do have referents associated with them, descriptive phrases (such as “the smallest number less than pi”) should be viewed merely as collections of quantifiers (such as “all” and “some”) and propositional functions (such as “x is a number”). As such, they are not to be viewed as referring terms but, rather, as “incomplete symbols.” In other words, they are to be viewed as symbols that take on meaning within appropriate contexts, but that remain meaningless in isolation.
Put another way, it was Russell’s insight that some phrases may contribute to the meaning (or reference) of a sentence without themselves being meaningful. As he explains,
If “the author of Waverley” meant anything other than “Scott”, “Scott is the author of Waverley” would be false, which it is not. If “the author of Waverley” meant “Scott”, “Scott is the author of Waverley” would be a tautology, which it is not. Therefore, “the author of Waverley” means neither “Scott” nor anything else – i.e. “the author of Waverley” means nothing, Q.E.D. (1959, 85)
If Russell is correct, it follows that in a sentence such as
(1) The present King of France is bald,
the definite description “The present King of France” plays a role quite different from the role a proper name such as “Scott” plays in the sentence
(2) Scott is bald.
Letting K abbreviate the predicate “is a present King of France” and B abbreviate the predicate “is bald,” Russell assigns sentence (1) the logical form
(1′) There is an x such that
- for any y, if Ky then y=x, and
Alternatively, in the notation of the predicate calculus, we write
(1″) ∃x[(Kx & ∀y(Ky → y=x)) & Bx].
In contrast, by allowing s to abbreviate the name “Scott,” Russell assigns sentence (2) the very different logical form
This distinction between logical forms allows Russell to explain three important puzzles.
The first concerns the operation of the Law of Excluded Middle and how this law relates to denoting terms. According to one reading of the Law of Excluded Middle, it must be the case that either “The present King of France is bald” is true or “The present King of France is not bald” is true. But if so, both sentences appear to entail the existence of a present King of France, clearly an undesirable result, given that France is a republic and so has no king. Russell’s analysis shows how this conclusion can be avoided. By appealing to analysis (1′′), it follows that there is a way to deny (1) without being committed to the existence of a present King of France, namely by changing the scope of the negation operator and thereby accepting that “It is not the case that there exists a present King of France who is bald” is true.
The second puzzle concerns the Law of Identity as it operates in (so-called) opaque contexts. Even though “Scott is the author of Waverley” is true, it does not follow that the two referring terms “Scott” and “the author of Waverley” need be interchangeable in every situation. Thus, although “George IV wanted to know whether Scott was the author of Waverley” is true, “George IV wanted to know whether Scott was Scott” is, presumably, false.
Russell’s distinction between the logical forms associated with the use of proper names and definite descriptions again shows why this is so. To see this, we once again let s abbreviate the name “Scott.” We also let w abbreviate “Waverley” and A abbreviate the two-place predicate “is the author of.” It then follows that the sentence
is not at all equivalent to the sentence
(4) ∃x[(Axw & ∀y(Ayw → y=x)) & x=s].
Sentence (3), for example, is a necessary truth, while sentence (4) is not.
The third puzzle relates to true negative existential claims, such as the claim “The golden mountain does not exist.” Here, once again, by treating definite descriptions as having a logical form distinct from that of proper names, Russell is able to give an account of how a speaker may be committed to the truth of a negative existential without also being committed to the belief that the subject term has reference. That is, the claim that Scott does not exist is false since
is self-contradictory. (After all, there must exist at least one thing that is identical to s since it is a logical truth that s is identical to itself!) In contrast, the claim that a golden mountain does not exist may be true since, assuming that G abbreviates the predicate “is golden” and M abbreviates the predicate “is a mountain,” there is nothing contradictory about
(6) ~∃x(Gx & Mx).
Russell’s most important writings relating to his theory of descriptions include not only “On Denoting” (1905), but also The Principles of Mathematics (1903), Principia Mathematica (1910) and Introduction to Mathematical Philosophy (1919). (See too Kaplan 1970, Kroon 2009 and Stevens 2011.)
Yet another of Russell’s major contributions is his defence of neutral monism, the view that the world consists of just one type of substance which is neither exclusively mental nor exclusively physical. Like idealism (the view that nothing exists but the mental) and physicalism (the view that nothing exists but the physical), neutral monism rejects dualism (the view that there exist distinct mental and physical substances). However, unlike both idealism and physicalism, neutral monism holds that this single existing substance may be viewed in some contexts as being mental and in others as being physical. As Russell puts it,
“Neutral monism”—as opposed to idealistic monism and materialistic monism—is the theory that the things commonly regarded as mental and the things commonly regarded as physical do not differ in respect of any intrinsic property possessed by the one set and not by the other, but differ only in respect of arrangement and context. (CP, Vol. 7, 15)
To help understand this general suggestion, Russell introduces his analogy of a postal directory:
The theory may be illustrated by comparison with a postal directory, in which the same names come twice over, once in alphabetical and once in geographical order; we may compare the alphabetical order to the mental, and the geographical order to the physical. The affinities of a given thing are quite different in the two orders, and its causes and effects obey different laws. Two objects may be connected in the mental world by the association of ideas, and in the physical world by the law of gravitation. … Just as every man in the directory has two kinds of neighbours, namely alphabetical neighbours and geographical neighbours, so every object will lie at the intersection of two causal series with different laws, namely the mental series and the physical series. ‘Thoughts’ are not different in substance from ‘things’; the stream of my thoughts is a stream of things, namely of the things which I should commonly be said to be thinking of; what leads to its being called a stream of thoughts is merely that the laws of succession are different from the physical laws. (CP, Vol. 7, 15)
In other words, when viewed as being mental, a thought or idea may have associated with it other thoughts or ideas that seem related even though, when viewed as being physical, they have very little in common. As Russell explains, “In my mind, Caesar may call up Charlemagne, whereas in the physical world the two were widely sundered” (CP, Vol. 7, 15). Even so, it is a mistake, on this view, to postulate two distinct types of thing (the idea of Caesar and the man Caesar) that are composed of two distinct substances (the mental and the physical). Instead, “The whole duality of mind and matter, according to this theory, is a mistake; there is only one kind of stuff out of which the world is made, and this stuff is called mental in one arrangement, physical in the other” (CP, Vol. 7, 15).
Russell appears to have developed this theory around 1913, while working on his Theory of Knowledge manuscript and on his 1914 Monist article, “On the Nature of Acquaintance.” Decades later, in 1964, he remarked that “I am not conscious of any serious change in my philosophy since I adopted neutral monism” (Eames 1967, 511). Even so, over the next several decades Russell continued to do a large amount of original work, authoring such important books as The Analysis of Mind (1921), The Analysis of Matter (1927a), An Inquiry into Meaning and Truth (1940) and Human Knowledge: Its Scope and Limits (1948).
Today several authors, including David Chalmers (1996, 155) and Thomas Nagel (2002, 209), have shown renewed interest in considering Russell’s general approach to the mind.
In addition to the above titles by Russell, Russell’s most influential writings relating to his theories of metaphysics and epistemology include Our Knowledge of the External World (1914a), “The Relation of Sense-Data to Physics” (1914c), “The Philosophy of Logical Atomism” (1918, 1919), “On Propositions: What They Are and How They Mean” (1919b) and An Outline of Philosophy (1927b).
Russell’s significant social influence stems from three main sources: his long-standing social activism, his many writings on the social and political issues of his day as well as on more theoretical concerns, and his popularizations of numerous technical writings in philosophy and the natural sciences.
Among Russell’s many popularizations are his two best-selling works, The Problems of Philosophy (1912) and A History of Western Philosophy (1945). Both of these books, as well as his numerous books popularizing science, have done much to educate and inform generations of general readers. His History is still widely read and did much to initiate twentieth-century research on a wide range of historical figures from the presocratics to Leibniz. His Problems is still used as an introductory textbook over a century after it was first published. Both books can be read by the layman with satisfaction. Other popular books, particularly those relating to developments in modern science such as The ABC of Atoms (1923a) and The ABC of Relativity (1925), are now of more historical interest. Even so, they continue to convey something of the intellectual excitement associated with advances in twentieth-century science and philosophy.
Naturally enough, Russell saw a link between education in this broad sense and social progress. As he put it, “Education is the key to the new world” (1926, 83). Partly this is due to our need to understand nature, but equally important is our need to understand each other:
The thing, above all, that a teacher should endeavor to produce in his pupils, if democracy is to survive, is the kind of tolerance that springs from an endeavor to understand those who are different from ourselves. It is perhaps a natural human impulse to view with horror and disgust all manners and customs different from those to which we are used. Ants and savages put strangers to death. And those who have never traveled either physically or mentally find it difficult to tolerate the queer ways and outlandish beliefs of other nations and other times, other sects and other political parties. This kind of ignorant intolerance is the antithesis of a civilized outlook, and is one of the gravest dangers to which our overcrowded world is exposed. (1950, 121)
It is in this same context that Russell is famous for suggesting that a widespread reliance upon evidence, rather than superstition, would have enormous social consequences: “I wish to propose for the reader’s favourable consideration,” says Russell, “a doctrine which may, I fear, appear wildly paradoxical and subversive. The doctrine in question is this: that it is undesirable to believe a proposition when there is no ground whatever for supposing it true” (A1928, 11).
Unlike Russell’s views about the importance of education, the precise connection between Russell’s political activism and his more theoretical work has been more controversial. In part, this has been because Russell himself repeatedly maintained that he saw no significant connection between his philosophical work and his political activism. Others have seen things differently. One of the best summaries is given by Alan Wood:
Russell sometimes maintained, partly I think out of perverseness, that there was no connection between his philosophical and political opinions. … But in fact I think there are perfectly obvious connections between Russell’s philosophical and other views. … To begin with, it is natural enough to find an analytic anti-monist philosopher like Russell upholding the individual against the state, whereas Hegel did the reverse … [In addition, the] whole bent of Russell’s mind in philosophy was an attempt to eliminate the a priori and to accentuate the empirical; and there was exactly the same trend in his political thinking … Unless it is realized that Russell’s approach to political questions was usually empirical and practical, based on the evidence of the moment and not on a priori principles and preconceptions, it is quite impossible to understand why his views appeared to vary so much. This was perfectly legitimate, and even praiseworthy, in a world which never stays the same, and where changing circumstances continually change the balance of arguments on different sides. (Wood 1957, 73–4)
Thus, in addition to Russell’s numerous contributions to the politics of his day, he also contributed significantly to our understanding of the social world around us. Among Russell’s more theoretical contributions were his anticipation of John Mackie’s error theory in ethics, the view that moral judgments are cognitive (that is, they are either true or false), but because of their content they are in fact inevitably false. (Mackie’s paper “The Refutation of Morals” appeared in 1946; Russell’s paper “Is There an Absolute Good?”, although not published until 1988 was first delivered in 1922.)
Russell also anticipated the modern theory of emotivism (as introduced by A.J. Ayer in his 1936 Language, Truth and Logic), arguing that “Primarily, we call something ‘good’ when we desire it, and ‘bad’ when we have an aversion from it” (1927b, 242), a view that “he had been flirting with since 1913” (see the entry on Russell’s Moral Philosophy in this encyclopedia; see too Schilpp 1944, 719f). Even so, Russell remained less than satisfied with his views on meta-ethics for most of his life (CP, Vol. 11, 310).
This dissatisfaction appears not to have extended to his work in political theory. There Russell focused primarily on the notion of power, or what he called “the production of intended effects” (1938, 35). As a result, as V.J. McGill writes, “The concept of power overshadows all of Russell’s political and economic writings” (Schilpp 1944, 581). As Russell summarizes, “The laws of social dynamics are – so I shall contend – only capable of being stated in terms of power in its various forms” (1938, 15). As a result, it is only by understanding power in all its human instantiations that we understand the social world around us.
Russell’s cataloging of the perceived evils of his age are well known. Even so, underlying his criticism of both the political left and the political right lies a common worry: the unequal distribution of power. As McGill sums up, “Evidently he has become convinced that the thirst for Power is the primary danger of mankind, that possessiveness is evil mainly because it promotes the power of man over man” (Schilpp 1944, 581). The problem with this analysis and of Russell’s desire for a more equitable distribution of power is that any proposed solution appears to lead to paradox:
Suppose certain men join a movement to disestablish Power, or to distribute it more equally among the people! If they are successful, they carry out the behest of Power, becoming themselves as powerful, in terms of Mr. Russell’s definition, as any tyrant. Even though they spread the good life to millions, the more successful they are, the more usurpatious and dangerous. (Schilpp 1944, 586)
More than any of his other books, it was Russell’s writings in ethics and politics that brought him to the attention of non-academic audiences. His most influential books on these topics include his Principles of Social Reconstruction (1916), On Education (1926), Why I Am Not a Christian (1927c), Marriage and Morals (1929), The Conquest of Happiness (1930), The Scientific Outlook (1931), and Power: A New Social Analysis (1938).
Since his death in 1970, Russell’s reputation as a philosopher has continued to grow. This increase in reputation has been accompanied by a corresponding increase in scholarship. Older first-hand accounts of Russell’s life, such as Dora Russell’s The Tamarisk Tree (1975, 1981, 1985), Katharine Tait’s My Father Bertrand Russell (1975) and Ronald Clark’s The Life of Bertrand Russell (1975), have been supplemented by more recent accounts, including Caroline Moorehead’s Bertrand Russell (1992), John Slater’s Bertrand Russell (1994) and Ray Monk’s Bertrand Russell: The Spirit of Solitude (1996) and Bertrand Russell: The Ghost of Maddness (2000).
This increase in scholarship has benefited greatly from the existence of the Bertrand Russell Archives at McMaster University, where the bulk of Russell’s library and literary estate are housed, and from the Bertrand Russell Research Centre, also housed at McMaster. Books such as Nicholas Griffin’s Selected Letters of Bertrand Russell (1992, 2001), Gregory Landini’s Russell’s Hidden Substitutional Theory (1998) and Bernard Linsky’s The Evolution of Principia Mathematica (2011) have all helped make public archival material that, in the past, has been available only to specialists. Since 1983 the Bertrand Russell Editorial Project, initiated by John Slater and Kenneth Blackwell, has also begun to release authoritative, annotated editions of Russell’s Collected Papers. When complete, this collection will run to over 35 volumes and will bring together all of Russell’s writings, other than his correspondence and previously published monographs.
Recent scholarship has also helped remind readers of the influence Russell’s students had on Russell’s philosophy. Ludwig Wittgenstein and Frank Ramsey especially presented Russell with helpful criticisms of his work and new problems to solve. Both men pushed Russell to develop new theories in logic and epistemology. Despite the fact that Wittgenstein was less than satisfied with Russell’s Introduction to his Tractatus Logico-Philosophicus (1921), Michael Potter’s Wittgenstein’s Notes on Logic (2009) and the introductory materials published in Russell’s Theory of Knowledge: The 1913 Manuscript (CP, Vol. 7) show the extent and fruitfulness of the interaction between teacher and student.
Since Russell’s death, debate has also taken place over the ultimate importance of Russell’s contributions, not just to philosophy, but to other disciplines as well. Advocates of Russell’s inclusion in the canon remind readers that few have done more to advance both formal logic and analytic philosophy. Critics of his inclusion, or at least of his canonization, remind readers of Russell’s early enthusiasm for British imperialism (Russell 1967, 134) and of his controversial comments about eugenics and race (Russell 1929, 259, 266). Others have noted his apparent early antisemitism and his advocacy of a preemptive nuclear war against the Soviet Union following World War II (Hook 1976, Stone 1981, Perkins 1994, Blitz 2002). On the issue of a preemptive war, Russell himself later denied he had ever advocated such a course of action. However, after reviewing carefully the historical record, biographer Ronald Clark comes to a different conclusion. Clark is also unequivocal about Russell’s lack of sincerity on the issue: “If the suggestion that he deliberately tried to conceal his earlier views is repugnant, the record does not really allow any other conclusion to be drawn” (Clark 1975, 530). Perhaps as a result of such observations, many readers remain undecided when attempting to evaluate Russell’s overall contribution to the intellectual life of the twentieth century.
Monk’s two volumes are a significant case in point. In addition to his ground-breaking biographical work, Monk relates Wittgenstein’s humorous suggestion that all of Russell’s books should be bound in two colours, “those dealing with mathematical logic in red – and all students of philosophy should read them; those dealing with ethics and politics in blue – and no one should be allowed to read them” (Monk 2000, 278). Others, such as Peter Stone, have argued that such caricatures are based on “a misunderstanding of the nature of Russell as a political figure” (2003, 89) and that “Whatever one thinks of Russell’s politics, he was one of the few public figures in the west to stand against capitalism without succumbing to illusions about Stalinist Russia. If for no other reason than this, Russell deserves some credit for his political instincts” (2003, 85). (See, for example, Russell 1920 and 1922b.)
How is the ordinary reader to decide between such conflicting evaluations? Unlike the many logical advances Russell introduced, in politics he is still usually understood to be more an advocate than a theoretician. As a result, his reputation as a political thinker has not been as high as his reputation in logic, metaphysics and epistemology.
Even so, regardless of his many particular contributions, Russell’s lasting reputation has also benefited significantly from his constant willingness to abandon unsupported theories and outdated beliefs. To his great credit, when new evidence presented itself, Russell was always among the first to take it into account: “Against my will, in the course of my travels, the belief that everything worth knowing was known at Cambridge gradually wore off. In this respect,” says Russell, “my travels were very useful to me” (1967, 133).
A short anecdote recounted in Russell’s Autobiography is also typical. As a young man, he says, he spent part of each day for many weeks
reading Georg Cantor, and copying out the gist of him into a notebook. At that time I falsely supposed all his arguments to be fallacious, but I nevertheless went through them all in the minutest detail. This stood me in good stead when later on I discovered that all the fallacies were mine. (1967, 127)
- Major Books and Articles by Russell
- Major Anthologies of Russell’s Writings
- The Collected Papers of Bertrand Russell
- 1896, German Social Democracy, London: Longmans, Green.
- 1897, An Essay on the Foundations of Geometry, Cambridge: At the University Press.
- 1900, A Critical Exposition of the Philosophy of Leibniz, Cambridge: At the University Press.
- 1901, “Recent Work on the Principles of Mathematics,” International Monthly, 4: 83–101; repr. as “Mathematics and the Metaphysicians,” in Bertrand Russell, Mysticism and Logic and Other Essays, New York, London: Longmans, Green & Co., 1918, 74–96; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 3.
- 1903, The Principles of Mathematics, Cambridge: At the University Press.
- 1905, “On Denoting,” Mind, 14: 479–493; repr. in Bertrand Russell, Essays in Analysis, London: Allen and Unwin, 1973, 103–119; and in Bertrand Russell, Logic and Knowledge, London: George Allen and Unwin, 1956, 41–56; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 4.
- 1907, “The Regressive Method of Discovering the Premises of Mathematics,” in Bertrand Russell, Essays in Analysis, London: Allen and Unwin, 1973, 272–283; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 5.
- 1908, “Mathematical Logic as Based on the Theory of Types,” American Journal of Mathematics, 30: 222–262; repr. in Bertrand Russell, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 59–102; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 5.
- 1910, 1912, 1913 (with Alfred North Whitehead), Principia Mathematica, 3 vols, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press; 2nd edn, 1925 (Vol. 1), 1927 (Vols 2, 3); abridged as Principia Mathematica to *56, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press, 1962.
- 1911, “Knowledge by Acquaintance and Knowledge by Description,” Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society, 11: 108–128; repr. in Bertrand Russell, Mysticism and Logic and Other Essays, New York, London: Longmans, Green & Co., 1918, 209–232; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 6.
- 1912a, The Problems of Philosophy, London: Williams and Norgate; New York: Henry Holt and Company.
- 1912b, “On the Relations of Universals and Particulars,” Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society, 12: 1–24; repr. in Bertrand Russell, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 105–124; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 6.
- 1914a, Our Knowledge of the External World, Chicago and London: The Open Court Publishing Company.
- 1914b, “On the Nature of Acquaintance,” Monist, 24: 1–16, 161–187, 435–453; repr. in Logic and Knowledge, London: George Allen and Unwin, 1956, 127–174; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 7.
- 1914c, “The Relation of Sense-Data to Physics,” Scientia, 16: 1–27; repr. in Mysticism and Logic and Other Essays, New York, London: Longmans, Green & Co., 1918, 145–179; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 8.
- 1916, Principles of Social Reconstruction, London: George Allen and Unwin; repr. as Why Men Fight, New York: The Century Company, 1917.
- 1917, Political Ideals, New York: The Century Company.
- 1918, 1919, “The Philosophy of Logical Atomism,” Monist, 28: 495–527; 29: 32–63, 190–222, 345–380; repr. in Bertrand Russell, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 177–281; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 8.
- 1919a, Introduction to Mathematical Philosophy, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
- 1919b, “On Propositions: What They Are and How They Mean,” Proceedings of the Aristotelian Society, Supplementary Volume 2: 1–43; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 8.
- 1920, The Practice and Theory of Bolshevism, London: George Allen and Unwin Ltd.
- 1921, The Analysis of Mind, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
- 1922a, “Is There an Absolute Good?”, in Collected Papers, Vol. 9.
- 1922b, The Problem of China, London: George Allen and Unwin Ltd.
- 1923a, The ABC of Atoms, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner & Co., Ltd.
- 1923b, A Free Man’s Worship, Portland, Maine: Thomas Bird Mosher; repr. as What Can A Free Man Worship? Girard, Kansas: Haldeman-Julius Publications, 1927.
- 1924, “Logical Atomism,” in J.H. Muirhead, Contemporary British Philosophers, London: Allen and Unwin, 1924, 356–383; repr. in Bertrand Russell, Logic and Knowledge, London: Allen and Unwin, 1956, 323–343; also appearing in Collected Papers, Vol. 9.
- 1925, The ABC of Relativity, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner & Co., Ltd.
- 1926, On Education, Especially in Early Childhood, London: George Allen and Unwin; repr. as Education and the Good Life, New York: Boni and Liveright, 1926; abridged as Education of Character, New York: Philosophical Library, 1961.
- 1927a, The Analysis of Matter, London: Kegan Paul, Trench, Trubner; New York: Harcourt, Brace.
- 1927b, An Outline of Philosophy, London: George Allen and Unwin; repr. as Philosophy, New York: W.W. Norton, 1927.
- 1927c, Why I Am Not a Christian, London: Watts; New York: The Truth Seeker Company.
- 1929, Marriage and Morals, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Horace Liveright.
- 1930, The Conquest of Happiness, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Horace Liveright.
- 1931, The Scientific Outlook, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- 1938, Power: A New Social Analysis, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- 1940, An Inquiry into Meaning and Truth, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- 1945, A History of Western Philosophy, New York: Simon and Schuster; London: George Allen and Unwin, 1946; rev. edn, 1961.
- 1948, Human Knowledge: Its Scope and Limits, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- 1949a, Authority and the Individual, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- 1949b, The Philosophy of Logical Atomism, Minneapolis, Minnesota: Department of Philosophy, University of Minnesota; repr. as Russell’s Logical Atomism, D.F. Pears (ed.), Oxford: Fontana/Collins, 1972.
- 1954, Human Society in Ethics and Politics, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- 1959, My Philosophical Development, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- 1961, Has Man a Future?, London: Allen and Unwin.
- 1963, Unarmed Victory, London: Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- 1967, 1968, 1969, The Autobiography of Bertrand Russell, 3 vols, London: George Allen and Unwin; Boston: Little Brown and Company (Vols 1 and 2), New York: Simon and Schuster (Vol. 3).
- 1967a, War Crimes in Vietnam, London: Allen and Unwin; New York: Monthly Review Press.
- A1910, Philosophical Essays, London: Longmans, Green.
- A1918, Mysticism and Logic and Other Essays, New York, London: Longmans, Green & Co.; repr. as A Free Man’s Worship and Other Essays, London: Unwin Paperbacks, 1976.
- A1928, Sceptical Essays, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- A1935, In Praise of Idleness and Other Essays, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: W.W. Norton.
- A1950, Unpopular Essays, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- A1956a, Logic and Knowledge: Essays, 1901–1950, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: The Macmillan Company.
- A1956b, Portraits From Memory and Other Essays, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- A1957, Why I am Not a Christian and Other Essays on Religion and Related Subjects, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- A1961a, The Basic Writings of Bertrand Russell, 1903–1959, London: George Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster.
- A1961b, Fact and Fiction, London: Allen and Unwin; New York: Simon and Schuster, 1962.
- A1968, The Art of Philosophizing and Other Essays, New York: Philosophical Library.
- A1969, Dear Bertrand Russell, London: George Allen and Unwin; Boston: Houghton Mifflin.
- A1973, Essays in Analysis, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- A1992, The Selected Letters of Bertrand Russell, Volume 1, London: Allen Lane, and New York: Houghton Mifflin.
- A1999a, Russell on Ethics, London: Routledge.
- A1999b, Russell on Religion, London: Routledge.
- A2001, The Selected Letters of Bertrand Russell, Volume 2, London: Routledge.
- A2003, Russell on Metaphysics, London: Routledge.
- CP, Vol. 1, Cambridge Essays, 1888–99, London, Boston, Sydney: George Allen and Unwin, 1983.
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Thanks are due to Kenneth Blackwell, Francisco Rodríguez-Consuegra, Fred Kroon, Jim Robinson, Russell Wahl, John Woods and several anonymous referees for their helpful comments on earlier versions of this material.