The Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy organizes scholars from around the world in philosophy and related disciplines to create and maintain an up-to-date reference work.

Principal Editor: Edward N. Zalta

The SEP would like to congratulate the National Endowment for the Humanities on its 50th anniversary and express our indebtedness for the five generous grants it awarded our project from 1997 to 2007. Readers who have benefited from the SEP are encouraged to examine the NEH's anniversary page and, if inspired to do so, send a testimonial to

SEP Executive Editors: Edward N. Zalta, Uri Nodelman, Colin Allen

Current Operations Are Supported By:

  • The Offices of the Provost, the Dean of Humanities and Sciences, and the Dean of Research, Stanford University
  • The SEP Library Fund: containing contributions from the National Endowment for the Humanities and the membership dues of academic and research libraries that have joined SEPIA.
  • The John Perry Fund and The SEP Fund: containing contributions from individual donors.
  • The Friends of the SEP Society Fund: containing membership dues from individuals who have joined to obtain such member benefits as nicely formatted PDF versions of SEP entries.

The SEP gratefully acknowledges founding support from the National Endowment for the Humanities, the National Science Foundation, The American Philosophical Association/Pacific Division, The Canadian Philosophical Association, and the Philosophy Documentation Center. Fundraising efforts were supported by a grant from The William and Flora Hewlett Foundation.