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Joseph Albo

First published Thu Jul 20, 2006

Joseph Albo (c. 1380–1444) was a Jewish philosopher active in Christian Spain in the first half of the fifteenth century. His theoretical work found expression in his well-known opus Sefer ha-'Ikkarim [Book of Principles], completed in 1425 in the town of Soria in the crown of Castile. In this work, Albo addresses a wide variety of interpretive, theological and philosophical issues, in a style integrating logical, methodical analyses with exegetical discussions. Albo's composition reveals his exposure to the works of many Jewish philosophers that preceded him, particularly Maimonides, Hasdai Crescas (Albo's teacher in his formative years), and his contemporary, Simeon ben Zemah Duran. The historical circumstances in which he functioned, especially the Catholic Church's persecution of the Jews in Christian Spain, led him to contribute to the anti-Christian polemic, and apparently also permitted his exposure to the writings of such Christian philosophers as Thomas Aquinas.

Albo's central contribution to the history of Jewish philosophy is his theory of principles. In his theory, he determines the fundamental, necessary beliefs that a person must uphold in order to belong to the system called “divine law.” This theory serves as an alternative to previous lists of principles, especially the thirteen principles of faith formulated by Maimonides. Albo's list includes only three fundamental beliefs: the existence of God, the divine origin of the Torah, and reward and punishment. The following paragraphs will outline Albo's theory and several of the prominent issues in his thought, such as the theory of law, the theory of divine attributes, the theory of human perfection and the theory of providence and reward.

1. Biographical Sketch

The known details of Albo's life are sparse. As far as we know, he was born in Christian Spain in the crown of Aragon around 1380, and died in the crown of Castile around 1444. In documenting the highlights of his career, we should first mention his period of study in the school of Hasdai Crescas in Saragossa. Further, in 1413–1414 he played a dominant role in the Disputation at Tortosa, a major public polemic between the Jewish convert to Christianity Geronimo de Santa Fe (formerly Joshua Lorki), who represented the pope, and delegates from many Jewish communities in Christian Spain. In this debate, Albo represented the Jewish community of Daroca in Aragon (Graetz 1894, 179–220; Baer 1961, 170–232; Rauschenbach 2002, 11–47). After this community was decimated in 1415, he moved to the town of Soria in Castile (Gonzalo Maeso 1971, 131; Motis Dolader 1990, 148). But Albo is mainly known for his philosophical treatise, Sefer ha-'Ikkarim, which he finished around 1425. Aside from acting as a philosopher and spiritual leader, Albo served as a preacher and possibly also as a physician. Apparently, Albo had a command of Spanish and Latin in addition to Hebrew, the language of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim (Husik 1928–30, 67), but we cannot determine his level of fluency in Arabic.

2. Historical Background

The roots of Albo's philosophical theory are located deep within the ground of the historical reality in which he lived and worked. The central circumstance that directly shaped his thought was the distressed state of Jewish society in Christian Spain. Beginning in the fourteenth century, the Jews in Spain were subject to religious persecution on the part of the Catholic Church and Christian society in general. Jewish thought also suffered from sharp ideological conflict between conservative thinkers and rationalists over both theological and social issues.

First of all, in pressuring the Jews to convert, the Christian authorities instituted extreme economic measures and passed discriminatory social legislation. They used coercive tactics in their exhortations. They also organized harsh pogroms, such as those of 1391. These repressive measures forced many Jews to die a martyr's death. They also led to mass conversion of Jews to Christianity and to deterioration on the social, economic, and spiritual planes (Baer 1961, 95–243; Netanyahu 1966, cf. index [“Conversions”]; Ben-Sasson 1984, 208–220, 232–238; Gutwirth 1993).

In addition, this period witnessed the revival of the dispute between followers of Maimonides and his opponents. On one side of this conflict stood the rationalists. They espoused the study of philosophy and attempted to integrate it into their religious-spiritual world while resolving the contradictions that emerged between philosophy and the sources of revelation. On the other side stood the conservatives, who rejected the study of philosophy. They adhered to the classic religious sources, the Bible and the Talmud, and viewed kabbalistic literature as a continuation of the chain of revelation. One of the focal points of the conflict between these two theological schools was the exchange of mutual accusations on the issue of responsibility for the dire situation of Jewish society under Christian persecution (Schwartz 1991).

Modern scholars have conducted comprehensive studies of the relationship between the characteristics of Jewish philosophy in Spain during the fifteenth century, including Albo's thought, and the historical reality of that period (Baer 1961, 232–243; Davidson 1983, 112–113; Cohen 1993; Manekin 1997).

3. Introduction to Sefer ha-'Ikkarim

Sefer ha-'Ikkarim is Albo's monumental philosophical treatise. This book offers an extensive description of the author's theoretical doctrine. Forming the basis of this doctrine and the framework for the rest of his formulations are his principles of faith, which attempt to define the beliefs that are the necessary fundamentals of a system of laws whose source is the divine. Before we examine the various philosophical views incorporated within this book, we will offer a concise description of its structure, stylistic characteristics, and goals.

Sefer ha-'Ikkarim is composed of a preface, which includes a highly detailed table of contents; an introduction; and four treatises divided into chapters. Although Albo completed writing the book around 1425, scholars have long agreed that before the book was published in its entirety, a preliminary version appeared, comprising the first of the four treatises (Back 1869, 8–10; Tänzer 1896, 19–22, 27; Schweid 1967, 25).

In the first treatise of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim, Albo presents in detail his theory of principles and the various issues it includes. Albo points out several problems with the lists of principles of faith proposed by his predecessors. In particular, he challenges Maimonides' list of thirteen principles of faith, proposing in their place a concise list numbering only three basic beliefs. Absent these beliefs, Albo believes that divine law has no existence or significance: 1) the existence of God, 2) the divine origin of the Torah, and 3) reward and punishment. This list determines the structure of the entire book, since the following three treatises address each one of the three principles in turn. The main topic of the second treatise is the existence of God, and it discusses the theory of divinity, especially the theory of divine attributes. The third treatise, whose main topic is the divine origin of the Torah, covers the issues of human perfection, general prophecy, and Mosaic prophecy and law. It concludes with a thorough discussion of the religious emotions of fear and love of God. The fourth and last treatise, whose main subject is reward and punishment, divides into two sections. The first section describes the theory of divine providence, the problem of evil and the significance of the precepts of prayer and repentance. The second section in the fourth treatise speaks of the theory of recompense, emphasizing that of the world to come. We should note here that Albo's theory of principles also includes additional components. Each one of the principles necessarily leads to further beliefs, which he calls “roots,” and these in turn lead to a third level of less important beliefs, which he calls “branches.”

The language of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim is straightforward, and its philosophical arguments are formulated in a relatively simple and clear manner. These characteristics mean that a broad audience of readers can approach this philosophical work on their own. Furthermore, the modern reader can rely on Albo's clear formulations to gain a preliminary acquaintance with many of the philosophical viewpoints offered in the general framework of medieval Jewish philosophy.

An additional stylistic aspect of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim touches directly on the body of his theory. The book includes a number of internal contradictions on a wide variety of philosophical issues. This fact has led most scholars to the conclusion that this is an eclectic work, lacking originality and vision, at a low philosophical level (Guttmann 1955; Guttmann 1964, 247–251; Ravitzky 1988, 104–105). Yet recent scholars have proposed a new angle of perception on the significance of these internal contradictions, identifying in Sefer ha-'Ikkarim an esoteric writing style similar to that of Maimonides' Guide of the Perplexed. According to this viewpoint, the internal contradictions are not the result of lack of attention on the part of an eclectic and average philosopher who combined various sources without regard to the differences between them. On the contrary, they believe these contradictions demonstrate meticulous attention on the part of the philosopher. The maverick position claims that Albo intentionally embedded in his book conflicting opinions in order to hide his true viewpoint on various theological issues from certain groups of readers. Among other evidence, this research position relies on Albo's explicit statement in the introductory comment to the second treatise (Schwartz 2002, 183–196).

Most scholars assume that we should understand Albo's goal in writing Sefer ha-'Ikkarim against the background of the historical reality in which he lived. As indicated, the book was written as an attempt to address the severe social and religious distress of the Jews of Christian Spain in the late fourteenth – early fifteenth centuries. In the framework of this approach, we may discern two different goals that the book intends to serve.

Social goal –to offer a rationalist apologetic for Judaism alongside a refutation of the doctrines of Christianity, with the aim of limiting the phenomenon of conversion and the spiritual decline of the Jews of Christian Spain at that time (Husik 1928–30, 62–65).

Theoretical goal – to redefine the principles of Judaism and discuss its theoretical relation to philosophy, in light of the intensification of internal arguments on these issues within Jewish thought during the period discussed (Back 1869, 5–6; Lerner 2000, 90–95).

Sefer ha-'Ikkarim was first published in 1485 as one of the first works of Jewish philosophy to reach the printing press. The book made a considerable impact throughout the fifteenth century, with renowned Jewish philosophers citing it and contending with its ideas. Among them we may name such personalities as Isaac Arama, Abraham Bibago and Isaac Abravanel. From the sixteenth to the eighteenth centuries, his thought continued to engage Jewish and non-Jewish philosophers, including Baruch Spinoza, Moses Mendelssohn, and several Christian theologians. During this period, two authors wrote commentaries on Sefer ha-'Ikkarim: Jacob Koppelman (Ohel Ya'akov, Freiburg 1584) and Gedaliah Lipschitz (Etz Shatul, Venice 1618). In addition, the book was translated into Latin, German, English and Russian, and its first treatise was translated into Italian. In 1929, Isaac Husik published a critical edition of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim, including his translation of the book into English, an introduction, and detailed notes and indices (Albo 1929).

Before taking up our discussion of Albo's thought, we must point out a significant methodological problem that this discussion entails. On the one hand, the common opinion in the literature on Albo estimates that he was not an original philosopher at all, and that the body of his book merely summarizes the various approaches he knew from the works of the Jewish philosophers that preceded him. This theory, in its extreme version, argues that even the theory of principles, the main reason for his book's renown, is not Albo's unique creation. In contrast, a more recent trend in research on Albo's work identifies clear characteristics of esoteric writing in his book. This theory interprets the conflicting opinions on the issues in the book as belonging to two separate layers of writing – the external, exoteric layer, and the inner, esoteric layer. In many cases, these two research approaches lead to differing opinions regarding the question of Albo's independent philosophical positions.

Because of this, the overview below will present the central issues addressed in Sefer ha-'Ikkarim with a faithful reflection of the state of present research on Albo's philosophy. At the same time, we will refrain from categorizing his various philosophical views. This essay will discuss Albo's theories of: (1) law, (2) principles, (3) divinity, (4) humanity, and (5) providence and recompense.

4. The Theory of Law

In striving to formulate a list of the fundamental beliefs of religion from within his theory of principles (which we will explain in the next section), Albo abandons the status quo of similar lists composed by his predecessors. Instead of naming the principles of Mosaic law (“the Torah of Moses”) as, for example, Maimonides did in his well-known list of thirteen principles, Albo widens his target and lists the principles of “divine law.” By this term he refers to the entire system of laws whose source is in the revelation of God to humanity. This change leads Albo to dedicate a particularly long discussion (treatise 1, chapters 5–8) to the topic of the various types of law. Albo distinguishes three such types. The first of these is divine law, meaning a law whose origin is in divine revelation, such as Judaism. The second type is conventional law, a system of laws that human beings establish by mutual agreement in numerous political and social frameworks. Its purpose is to maintain the moral order of society and ensure the ongoing function of its systems. The third form of law according to Albo is natural law, or the basic laws of morality that aim to prevent injustice and promote honest behavior. Following is a short explanation of two main aspects of Albo's theory of law that the academic literature covers: the concept of natural law, its origins, meaning and influence; and the method of verification of divine law.

Natural law. Albo was the first Jewish philosopher to specifically address the concept of natural law. Apparently, this was due to the influence of the Christian theologian Thomas Aquinas, who classified laws in his book Summa Theologica. Albo's view of natural law has attracted the attention of many scholars, in comparison to other topics in his philosophy, but the popular view among these scholars is that Albo did not attach great importance to this concept (Guttmann 1955, 176–184; Lerner 1964; Novak 1983, 319–350; Melamed 1989).

Verification of divine law. One of the formative factors in Albo's philosophy was the anti-Christian polemic. For this reason, one of the questions that engages him is the method of distinguishing between the true divine law, meaning the Torah of Moses, and a false religion that also claims to be of divine origin, meaning Christianity. Albo proposes two criteria for distinguishing between the two. Firstly, the true divine law is the one whose beliefs do not contradict any one of the necessary principles of divine law. Secondly, the true divine law provides incontrovertible proof of the credibility of its messenger, who informs the world of the law's existence and divine origin (treatise 1, chapter 18). An important study on this issue argued that the first point is problematic, because it assumes that philosophy defines the basic beliefs of divine law and thus determines which law is truly divine. This is in opposition to the Averroistic approach, which disallows the use of philosophy for verifying religious matters. The solution for this problem lies in an alternate understanding of the role of philosophy in inter-religious debate. Philosophy does not serve as an affirming mechanism to validate certain beliefs, but only as a negating tool for identifying beliefs that stand in direct conflict with the basic rules of logic. In other words, Albo does not use philosophy to prove the validity of the beliefs of Judaism, but rather to reject Christianity as a false religion in light of its beliefs that stand in contradiction to philosophy (Lasker 1980).

5. The Theory of Principles

Albo's theory of principles is the focal point of his book, the framework upon which its sections are built, and the element that grants the book its name. Naturally, the academic debate on the theory of principles is also quite extensive. Below we will relate to two aspects of the theory. First we will present the conceptual structure of the theory of principles as detailed in the first treatise of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim, and then we will survey the various approaches of the scholarship on this theory.

Albo presents his theory of principles as an alternative to previous theories of principles, especially that of Maimonides. Additionally, Albo openly criticizes his predecessors' lists of principles. In their stead, he proposes a system of fundamental beliefs divided into three levels, which he calls “principles,” “roots,” and “branches.” The principles are those beliefs that are derived necessarily from the term “divine law.” They are: (1) the existence of the divine entity (“existence of God”); (2) the divine origin of the system of laws (“Torah from heaven”); and (3) the existence of divine providence, expressed in compensatory reward and punishment for humanity (“reward and punishment”). From these principles stem eight “roots,” which are beliefs that instill clear and detailed content into the general concept of the principle. The first principle, the existence of God, develops into four roots: (1) the unity of God, (2) the incorporeality of God, (3) God's independence of time, (4) God's lack of deficiencies. The second principle, Torah from heaven, leads to three roots: (5) God's knowledge, (6) prophecy, and (7) the genuineness of the divine messenger. The third principle, reward and punishment, branches into a single root: (8) providence. Denial of any of the principles or roots represents a heresy of the divine law.

The third category, “branches,” comprises beliefs that Albo argues are true and that every follower of divine law must accept. But in contrast to the first two categories, Albo does not define refusal to accept the branches as heresy of the divine law, but rather only as a sin requiring atonement. Albo lists six beliefs in this category: (1) creation ex nihilo; (2) the supremacy of Moses' prophecy; (3) the eternal nature of the Torah; (4) the possibility of obtaining human perfection through the performance of a single commandment; (5) the resurrection of the dead; (6) the coming of the Messiah.

Early scholars of Albo's work in the late nineteenth and early twentieth centuries argued that Albo's contribution to the history of Jewish thought was limited to his theory of principles and the first treatise of his book (Schlesinger 1844, xi–xiv; Back 1869, 3–5, 8–9; Tänzer 1896, 23–30). Later scholars called his theory unoriginal, and identified the philosophical sources that influenced it, especially Maimonides, Ibn Rushd, Nissim of Gerona, Hasdai Crescas and Simeon ben Zemah Duran (Guttmann 1955, 170–176; Waxman 1956, 158–161; Schweid 1963; Klein-Braslavi 1980, 194–197). A subsequent, third scholarly trend attempted to clarify the nature of the internal relationship between the categories of Albo's theory of principles (principles, roots, and branches), and examined Albo's position regarding the concept of heresy (Kellner 1986, 140–156).

6. The Theory of Divinity

The central discussion in the theory of divinity in Sefer ha-'Ikkarim is located in the second treatise, which is dedicated to the principle of the existence of God and its derivative roots. The philosophical issue at the focal point of this discussion is the theory of divine attributes. Scholars of Albo's theory of attributes have discerned an internal contradiction between rationalist and conservative positions in his discussion of this topic. On the one hand, in a number of locations he purports to support Maimonides' negative theology, and interprets the various attributes of God as negative attributes. On the other hand, elsewhere he relates positive attributes to God, in accordance with the method of his teacher, Crescas. Some scholars have ascribed this contradiction to the eclectic character of Albo's work (Wolfson 1916–17, 213–216; Guttmann 1955, 184–191), while others have related it to the esoteric style of writing of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim. Possibly, they suggest, his goal here was to conceal his conservative position on this issue from the circles of rationalist thinkers he frequented (Schwartz 2002, 187–196).

The second treatise of the book raises another important philosophical problem, the significance of the concept of time. One of the roots of the principle of the existence of God is God's independence of time. In Albo's discussion of this root, he discriminates between two different concepts of time, Aristotelian-physical and Neoplatonic-ontological. Two central trends appear in the academic literature on this topic. The first places the concept of time at the focus of the discussion, attempting to clarify the relationship between the two different concepts of time that appear in Albo's discussion (Harvey 1979–80). Those scholars who take the second position discuss Albo's concept of time as part of their attempt to identify his cosmogonic view, in other words, which theory of the origin of the world he upholds (Klein-Braslavi 1976, 118–120, 126; Rudavsky 1997, 470–473). In this context, we should point out that comprehensive study of Albo's writing on this issue reveals a certain difficulty in categorizing his exact position. Together with explicit dogmatic statements supporting the theory of creation ex nihilo appearing in the first treatise, we find other statements, although less overt, some of which argue for the eternal existence of matter, and some of which even support the eternal existence of the world (Ehrlich 2004b, 88–104).

7. The Theory of Humanity

The central discussion on the theory of humanity in Sefer ha-'Ikkarim is located in the third treatise, which covers the principle of Torah from heaven and its roots. The philosophical issue present throughout the sections of this treatise is that of the nature of human perfection. To put it mildly, Albo's discussion on this topic has not merited intensive treatment in the academic literature. Aside from this concept, the treatise addresses in depth the idea of prophecy and several aspects of the Torah of Moses and its commandments. In one section of his discussion on the last topic, Albo responds to the attacks of a Christian scholar on the Torah of Moses, including both apologetic and polemic elements in his rejoinders.

In the introductory chapters of the third treatise, Albo criticizes the position of the rationalist Jewish philosophers, who associated human perfection with the level of individual intellectual achievement. In contrast to this approach, Albo proposes a conservative theory, arguing that human perfection depends on the fulfillment of the Torah's commandments, in other words, the practical worship of God (treatise 3, chapters 1–7). Yet on this subject as well, we note considerable internal contradictions, which we will illustrate with several examples. Firstly, in the first treatise of his book, Albo clearly determines that human perfection depends on faith in God and in the principles of divine law (treatise 1, chapters 21–22). Secondly, in several places in the book he diminishes the value of the practical element of fulfilling the commandments of the Torah, and emphasizes in its stead the element of awareness, or intent (treatise 3, chapters 28–29). A third contradiction is found in the final chapters of the third treatise, which analyze the concepts of reverence and love for God. Albo considers these to be the highest levels of divine worship. He defines love of God as an intellectual phenomenon whose level depends on the intellectual status of the person (treatise 3, chapters 35–36; Ehrlich 2004a). According to the two main theories found in the academic literature, these contradictions may characterize either eclectic or esoteric writing.

To Albo, prophecy is not a natural characteristic of the human soul, but rather depends on divine will. God, should He so will, grants divine inspiration to the prophet. His primary purpose in so doing is to inform humanity of the commandments so that through them they may achieve human perfection (treatise 3, chapter 8). Scholars who have studied Albo's theory of prophecy have pointed out that it integrates both rationalist elements from Maimonides' parallel discussion and spiritual, supra-intellectual elements from the writings of Rabbi Judah Halevi and Crescas on this subject. Some have seen in this integration a demonstration of Albo's purpose in remaining faithful to the Aristotelian tradition of Maimonides, while attempting (not always successfully) to bend it as far as possible in the conservative direction (Schweid 1965). Others have considered this integration an expression of the general problematic character of Albo's thought that does not contend with the problems it produces. These scholars also argue that Albo's basic approach is that prophecy transcends the natural, and that this concept is grounded in the deep-seated tradition of Jewish thought (Kreisel 2001, 540–543). Here as well, we should not ignore the possibility that the internal contradictions in Albo's discussion reflect an esoteric writing style.

Albo distinguishes between various levels of prophecy, with the central goal of establishing the supremacy of Mosaic prophecy as the starting point for validating Mosaic law as the divine law. According to Albo, Moses is the most exalted prophet, for only in his case did divine inspiration directly reach the intellectual power of his soul, without the mediation of the imagination. The significance of this proclamation is that only for Moses' prophecy is there no doubt regarding the validity of its content (treatise 3, chapters 8–10). Albo also claims that at the giving of the Torah on Mt. Sinai, the Israelites all received prophetic inspiration; however, they were not on the prophetic level, and this is in support of Moses' advanced status (treatise 3, chapter 11).

After discussing the prophecy of Moses, Albo takes up the topic of the divine Torah that Moses gave to the people of Israel. He treats a number of aspects of this issue, such as the classification of the mitzvot (commandments), the status of the Ten Commandments, and the importance of the Oral Law. Yet apparently, the thrust of his efforts is directed toward establishing the idea of the eternity of the Torah, apparently in response to the Jewish-Christian polemic on this topic. Remaining faithful to his dogmatic method, Albo argues that in Mosaic law, and in divine law in general, changes in the details of the commandments may take place, but their fundamental principles cannot change (treatise 3, chapters 13–22).

Within his discussion on Mosaic law, Albo includes a chapter describing its condemnation by an anonymous Christian scholar (treatise 3, chapter 25). The Christian contends that in every possible parameter, the religion of Jesus supersedes Mosaic law, and Albo replies to this assault in detail. The present forum is too limited to specify the content of this polemic, but suffice it to say that this chapter in particular reflects Albo's quite extensive knowledge of the Christian religion. He demonstrates proficiency in Christian writings, and in addition, he recognizes the internal tension within Christianity between the papacy and the Roman Empire. He reveals knowledge of Church history, and finally, he challenges the central Christian doctrines (the Trinity, transubstantiation, and the virgin birth) while describing them in detail. It should be noted that Albo's polemic against Christianity is not limited to this chapter, but runs throughout the book, both explicitly and implicitly (Schweid 1968; Lasker 1977, cf. index [“Albo, Joseph”]; Rauschenbach 2002, 142–156).

8. The Theory of Providence and Recompense

The fourth and last treatise of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim is primarily concerned with the principle of reward and punishment and its roots. The first part of this treatise (chapters 1–28) contains Albo's central discussion on the theory of providence, while the second part (chapters 29–51) incorporates his main discussion on the theory of recompense. Below we will discuss these two theories in their order of appearance in the book.

Albo begins this treatise with the statement that humanity has basic free will, for this is the necessary condition of the concept of recompense. Additionally, he argues that this human freedom does not conflict with God's omniscience, nor with the existence of an astrological-deterministic system in the universe (treatise 4, chapters 1–6). His direct discussion of the concept of divine providence divides into three main parts. First, he discusses the proofs of the veracity of providence from natural and human reality, and from intellectual investigation (treatise 4, chapters 8–10). Then he treats the principal theological challenge to the concept of providence, namely, the problem of evil, or the suffering of the righteous and success of the wicked (treatise 4, chapters 12–15). Finally, he examines the specific religious consequences of providence, paying special attention to the theoretical infrastructure of the precepts of prayer (treatise 4, chapters 16–24) and repentance (treatise 4, chapters 25–28). These last two discussions are of exceptional scope within medieval Jewish philosophy.

Albo's discussions of free will, of proofs for divine providence, and of the problem of evil do not include almost any original ideas, and he mostly relies on the writings of the Jewish philosophers who preceded him. In contrast, his treatment of prayer and repentance seem to reveal a certain level of innovation. Regarding free will, Albo apparently adopts Maimonides' opinion that divine knowledge differs significantly from human knowledge, and that God's absolute knowledge does not necessarily abrogate free will for human beings. The academic literature considers several of Albo's discussions on providence to be nothing more than comprehensive summaries of the work of his precursors. This category includes his methods of proving the existence of divine providence over humanity, as well as his attempts to defend the concept of God's absolute good, despite what seems to be injustice in the world (Bleich 1997, 340–358). Still, in the rest of the treatise Albo presents broad, methodical discussions on the various philosophical aspects of the issues of prayer and repentance, for which his predecessors addressed mainly the halakhic features.

Albo's central argument on the topic of prayer is that it influences a person's status by causing an internal change within that person. This change raises the person to a level where he receives constant divine inspiration through God's benevolence. The basic assumption of this concept is that prayer cannot cause any change in God, since such an assumption would detract from divine perfection. Thus we should conceive of prayer as the internal act of a person upon the self, raising the self to a higher spiritual level (treatise 4, chapters 16–18). This model stands in opposition to the traditional conception of prayer as a channel of communication between the praying person and the listening God.

Albo understands the significance of repentance in two directions. The first is based on his concept of prayer, and defines repentance as an act in which a person uplifts himself to a higher level than at the time of the sin. In this way, he changes his identity, and is no longer deserving of punishment for the act he performed in his previous identity (treatise 4, chapter 18). The second conception of repentance focuses not on the person but on the sinful act he has committed. Under this rubric, repentance retroactively expropriates the conscious foundations of this act. In other words, repentance redefines the sinful act as unintentional, and thus undeserving of punishment (treatise 4, chapter 27).

The second half of the fourth treatise of Sefer ha-'Ikkarim presents Albo's theory of recompense. The main issue Albo raises here is the character of the reward and punishment destined for a person in the world to come. Throughout his wide-ranging discussion on the question of recompense in the next world, Albo confronts two conflicting points of view. Maimonides views recompense as applying to the soul alone, while Nahmanides opines that it affects the body as well (treatise 4, chapters 29–41). Albo's own opinion on this subject is unclear. At the beginning of the discussion, he seems to support Maimonides' viewpoint, but he continues the discussion with the assumption that he cannot definitely rule out Nahmanides' approach, which is supported by sources from kabbalistic literature. Scholars who have discerned the unique character of this section have described Albo's position in almost every possible way. Some say he avoids commitment (Sarachek 1932, 224), while others think he adopts a synthetic middle position (Schwartz 1997, 202–208); still others believe he accepts Maimonides' approach (Husik 1966, 426), and their opponents argue that he accepts Nahmanides' view (Agus 1959, 238–239). Apparently, therefore, this issue in Albo's philosophical-religious theory is especially obscure.


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Aquinas, Saint Thomas | Crescas, Hasdai | evil, problem of | Halevi, Judah | Ibn Rushd | Maimonides | Mendelssohn, Moses | nature of law: natural law theories | prophecy | providence, divine | Spinoza, Baruch | time