Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
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Heaven and Hell

First published Fri Oct 3, 2003; substantive revision Mon Oct 6, 2008

The language of heaven and hell as well as the doctrines associated with this language have their origin in the great monotheistic religions of the Abrahamic tradition — Judaism, Christianity, and Islam. The philosophical issues surrounding these doctrines have much wider significance, however, for every religion promises certain benefits to its adherents, and those benefits require by way of contrast some costs incurred by those who do not receive those benefits. The philosophical issues that arise out of the vivid imagery in western culture concerning heaven and hell arise quite naturally in nearly any religious context, though they are surely more pressing in some. Here the focus will be on the problems arising for the doctrines in the great monotheist traditions, and especially within Christianity, since it is within the latter context that these issues have been primarily discussed and it is the tradition with which western philosophers are the most familiar.

The doctrines of heaven and hell are doctrines concerning the afterlife. Recent theological work that denies existence beyond the grave (e.g., MacQuarrie) has sometimes included metaphorical reference to heaven and hell as aspects of one's present earthly life, wanting to retain the deep personal significance of our choices involved in talk of heaven and hell without endorsing the substantive metaphysical thesis of life after death. Though there may be a point to such metaphors, the doctrines of heaven and hell involve a commitment to the idea of an afterlife and to an eschatological significance of our present lives beyond the grave.

The doctrines of heaven and hell play an important social function as well. Even atheists have often held that the doctrines ought to be taught, even if false, because of the motivation they provide for good behavior. Here, however, the focus will be on the purely cognitive issues involved in the doctrines: whether they are true or false, and the kinds of arguments used to defend a view on the matter.

1. Hell

The usual approach in Christianity to the topic of heaven and hell proceeds in terms of a group of contrasts, contrasts between punishment and reward, between grace and reward, or between mercy and justice. With regard to the doctrine of hell, the dominant approach conceives of it in terms of punishment. On this basis, one might expect the doctrine of heaven to focus on the concept of reward. Though the concept of reward plays a significant role in the Christian doctrine of heaven, the primary role is played by the concepts of mercy and grace. This fact raises the issue of the degree of fit between a conception of heaven and a conception of hell, a topic we will return to later, but for purposes of this section, the important point to note is the centrality of the contrast between punishment and reward in the standard conception of hell.

1.1 The Punishment Model and The Traditional Conception

The primary philosophical criticisms of the doctrine of hell have focused on whether it is fair or just for someone to be sent to hell, and these criticisms reinforce the centrality of the punishment model in discussions of the doctrine of hell. The traditional characterization of the the punishment model involves a commitment to four separable theses:

(1) The Punishment Thesis: the purpose of hell is to punish those whose earthly lives and behavior warrant it.
(2) The No Escape Thesis: it is metaphysically impossible to get out of hell once one has been consigned there.
(3) The Anti-Universalism Thesis: some people will be consigned to hell.
(4) The Eternal Existence Thesis: hell is a place of unending conscious existence.

We can call this particular elaboration of the punishment model “the traditional doctrine of hell,” and it, or a minor modification of it, is the primary doctrine of hell found throughout the history of Christianity. The minor modification arises from the doctrine known as the harrowing of hell, according to which between the time of Jesus' death and resurrection, he preached to the inhabitants of hell, some of whom accepted his message and thereby went to heaven. The doctrine of the harrowing of hell thus implies the falsity of the No Escape Thesis, since according to that doctrine, some have escaped hell. The modification of the traditional view is only minor, however, since the escape in question results from a unique and unrepeatable event, so that it is not possible for anyone apart from this special event to escape from hell. This modified No Escape Thesis yields a minor modification of the Traditional Doctrine, but one with little philosophical significance for the question of the justice or fairness of hell, since there is no distinction whatsoever between the modified view and the traditional view once the central events of Jesus's death and resurrection have been completed, and the questions surrounding the justice or fairness of hell do not involve any special considerations of the location in history of those who end up in hell.

This characterization of the traditional view of hell leaves open whether hell involves the same punishment for all in hell, or whether there are differences in the degree of punishment. The strong version of the traditional view maintains that the punishment is the same for all, and a mitigation of this strong view argues that the traditional view is correct but needs to be supplemented by a clause specifying how some people deserve harsher treatment in hell than others.

The standard argument for the traditional view of hell appeals to a principle concerning when punishment is justified, and this argument claims that punishment deserved is not simply a function of harm caused and harm intended, even though such considerations take center stage in usual non-teleological theories of punishment. The traditional view of hell cannot be sustained by appeal to a theory of punishment of this sort, for it would be at best contingent that hell is the appropriate punishment on such a theory. To defend the traditional view of hell, something stronger is needed. According to defenders of the traditional view, punishment deserved is also a function of the status of the individual one has wronged, and they argue that all wrongdoing constitutes a wrong against God, and that wronging God is as bad a thing as anyone could do — they are infinitely bad thereby justifying an infinite punishment.

This argument would seem to be vulnerable at the point where it requires that all wrongdoing involves wronging God. Critics of the argument wonder how this could be. People generally do not intend to harm God or to defy him in some way when they act wrongly, though of course both are possible. Defenders of the argument appeal to the ideas of ownership and dependence in response to these charges. One can wrong the Rockefellers, for example, by destroying their property, whether or not one is aware of whose property is being destroyed. Moreover, one can wrong parents by harming their children, whether or not one has any acquaintance with the parents (and even if, by some bizarre metaphysical reasoning, one has become convinced either that the particular child in question is parentless or that no one has any parents).

Attention to the parent/child analogy is particularly instructive, for there comes a point in time at which parents are no longer wronged by harms done to their offspring, though they presumably will still be angered and offended by such actions. There is no precise cutoff point at which the parents are no longer wronged, but the moral difference here clearly has to do with the degree of independence from the parents that has been achieved. Middle-aged and fully competent adults normally have achieved such independence, whereas infants clearly have not.

Regardless of the vagueness of the concept of the dependence relation between parent and child, the relation itself is useful in a defense of the idea that all wrongdoing wrongs God. If one endorses the doctrine of divine conservation, according to which God sustains the universe at every moment of existence, one has grounds for thinking of the relationship between God and created things in a way that supports the idea than all wrongdoing wrongs God. For created things are even more dependent on God that the smallest infants on their parents, so if degree of independence is the right way to think about the conditions under which wronging offspring fails to wrong parents, no such degree of independence is possible between God and his creation.

The defensibility of the claim that all wrongdoing wrongs God has been taken to be the linchpin for a successful defense of the traditional doctrine of hell, but that claim is false. Even if all wrongdoing wrongs God and is therefore, in an objective sense, infinitely bad, it does not follow that an infinite punishment is deserved. A little attention to homicides and ways in which one can cause the death of another human being shows the inadequacy of such an inference. Causing the death of a human being is a very serious matter — in an objective sense, we may assume that it is among the worst things a person could do. Even so, punishment deserved is not simply a function of the badness of the action. The killing might have been accidental, for example, or it might have been done for the sake of justice, as in cases of capital punishment or in carrying out a just war. These examples show that even if an action rates very high on the scale of badness, other factors can diminish the severity of punishment deserved and, in some cases, eliminate it altogether. Included among these other factors are the intentions, plans, and goals of the person in question, and depending on what we find here, it is possible for a truly bad action to warrant no punishment at all—as often happens when people lose their lives in car accidents. The proper perspective, then, is to view the traditional view as being undermined if no defense can be offered for the claim that all wrongdoing wrongs God, but that a full defense of the traditional view requires more than this claim.

1.2 Alternatives to the Traditional Conception

Difficulties involved in defending the traditional view, such as those just noted, have led, throughout the history of Christianity to denials of both the Traditional Doctrine and the minor modification discussed above. Various alternatives have been proposed, but all of the standard non-traditional doctrines still endorse the punishment model. Annihilationism in its usual form, or the related position called Conditional Immortalism (see Cullman and Robinson), understand hell primarily in terms of a reference to the state of non-existence. Such views thereby adopt the Punishment Model, clarifying it with theses (1)-(3) above, but denying the Eternal Existence Thesis. Second Chance theories, which hold that it is possible to choose heaven after finding oneself in hell, also accept the punishment model. They affirm all of the traditional conception of hell except for the No Escape Thesis, which they deny. Universalists, those who believe that everyone will be in heaven on grounds that a loving God could not allow anyone to suffer the disaster of eternity in hell, accept all of the traditional conception of hell except for the claim that some people will be consigned to hell eternally (see Talbott). These alternatives to the traditional doctrine of hell compose all of the historically prominent options within the Christian tradition, and it is instructive to note that it is very rare to find "in the pew" any alternative to the traditional view that rejects the first thesis above, the thesis that identifies the purpose of hell in terms of punishment.

In each case, the perceived need for an alternative to the traditional view concerns the injustice or unfairness of hell on the traditional construal of it. The same concern can prompt a different kind of alteration of the traditional view, one that denies that heaven and hell are exclusive and exhaustive of afterlife possibilities. For example, the need for a doctrine of limbo, the place of abode for unbaptized but innocent or righteous individuals, addressing the issue of the eternal destiny of children short of the age of accountability or those who have never heard the Christian message, is best viewed as arising from some perceived injustice involved in the Traditional Doctrine. The doctrine of purgatory, the state in which those who have died in grace expiate their sins, might be viewed in this way as well, though it is also possible to view purgatory as a part of heaven, albeit not as blessed as other parts.

1.3 Problems for Such Views

Each of these views accepts the same underlying core picture of what hell is like, what I have termed the Punishment Model of Hell. Each of these positions begins from this model, and each view offers a mitigation of the perceived severity of the Traditional Doctrine. Each thus begins from the assumption that the Traditional Doctrine is unacceptable because it is simply unjust, or perhaps, unbecoming to a loving God. In this regard, it is a bit ironic to note the same problems plague these alternative views. Annihilationism, for example, views the cessation of existence as somehow preferable to unending conscious existence in hell. A primary difficulty with this response to a perceived inadequacy of the traditional view is that our ordinary conceptions of punishment, however, view capital punishment as a far more severe kind than life imprisonment. If the traditional view is embellished with vivid images of the sort that appear in Jesus' parable of the Lazarus and Dives, or in Dante's descriptions of hell, Annihilationism can be seen as preferable. Still, the fundamental tenets of the traditional view described above do not involve these embellishments, and without them, it is not clear how Annihilationism could be seen as less problematic than the traditional view; if anything, it appears to raise greater concern about the justice of hell inasmuch as capital punishment is more severe than life in prison.

Universalism has an advantage over Annihilationism in this respect, for it contains no features that appear to raise greater concern about the justice of hell than the traditional view. The fundamental issue for it is that its most promising variety fails to solve the problem of the perceived injustice of hell. Universalism can be offered as a contingent thesis or as a necessary one. If it is offered as a necessary thesis, the thesis that it is metaphysically impossible for anyone to end up in hell, it faces difficulty in explaining how human freedom is involved in any substantive way in determining one's eternal destiny. For no matter what one's choices or attitudes, no matter what one wishes or desires, one will end up in heaven on this view. Given this implication of necessary Universalism, the most common form of the view is a contingent one, according to which, even though it is metaphysically possible that some end up in hell, as a matter of fact no one will. The problem for this version of Universalism, however, is that it fails to solve the problem it was intended to solve. For the traditional understanding of God does not portray him as good as a matter of happenstance, but rather as an essential feature of him. So if it is a merely contingent fact that all are saved and thus avoid hell, this universalist position still allows that it is possible for some to end up in hell, but if the traditional doctrine of hell threatens to undermine God's goodness because some actually end up in hell, contingent Universalism equally threatens to undermine God's goodness because some might end up in hell. Contingent Universalism thus only modally masks the underlying problem of the perceived injustice of hell.

Second chance views fare no better. Some views that go by that name are not alterations of the Traditional Doctrine of Hell at all, but merely insist that because of the severity of hell, persons deserve a second chance to avoid it after death (notice that nothing in the above four theses requires that presence in heaven or hell occurs immediately after one dies). Yet, if such a second chance is deserved, it is hard to see why the same considerations would not justify a third chance if the second chance were passed on, thereby launching an infinite sequence of delays of consignment to hell. The regress cannot be endorsed, since being in that condition would itself constitute residence in hell, with the possibility of escape (since it would be a condition of eternal separation from God, barring escape). So second chance views that try to allow second chances prior to consignment to hell must explain how the regress is avoided.

Other second chance views claim that consignment to hell cannot be postponed, but that escape from it is not impossible; all that is needed to get out is the same change of heart, mind, and will required in one's earthly life to be fit for heaven. One difficulty for such a view is theological rather than philosophical, for such views fail to be truly eschatological accounts of heaven and hell. Eschatology is the doctrine of the last things, and one feature of this idea of culmination or consummation is that there is a finality to it. In Christian thought, this idea is expressed vividly in the idea of a final judgment, and any conception of the afterlife that treats residence in heaven and hell in the geographic way in which we think of residence in, say, Texas or California, simply does not fall into the category of an eschatological doctrine at all (see Hebblewaite). If heaven and hell are conceived of as mere extensions of an earthly life, where people can pack up and move at will, such a conception has more affinity to religious perspectives that espouse endless cycles of rebirth than to religions including an eschatological dimension.

This theological issue raises an important point, for a tension exists in the doctrines of heaven and hell between regarding how much continuity is to be expected between this earthly life and the afterlife. One example is the eschatological issue above concerning the loss of the idea of the notion of finality in the afterlife. Another example is hinted at above, concerning geographic assumptions about where one might reside (see Kvanvig). These latter ideas, together with perceived difficulties with the traditional view, lead to the doctrine of limbo. The greater a view is inclined to model the afterlife on our present earthly experience, the greater will be the temptation toward geographic conceptions of the afterlife and quasi-reincarnational views. The alternative is to view heaven and hell as the exclusive and exhaustive eschatological options, because to be in heaven is to be with God and to be in hell is to fail to be with God. The fundamental philosophical issue here is similar to the issue of how much anthropomorphizing is allowable in one's theology. Regarding both the issue of the nature of God and the nature of the afterlife, the question is how much of our present experience is allowably introduced when addressing these issues, and at what point an account involves the unwarranted extension of our present experience to theological topics radically different from that experience.

In all these ways, typical alternatives to the traditional view fail to deal with the fundamental problem of the traditional view, and face enormous difficulties because of it. The fundamental problem for the traditional conception of hell is that people receive an infinite punishment for less than infinite sin. One standard reply to such a complaint is that it matters not only what the character of your sin is, but also who the sin is against in determining appropriate punishment. Such a response, however, presumes some way of ranking individuals so that sinning against beings higher on the scale is more wrong than sinning against beings lower on the scale. Furthermore, this ranking will have to yield the result that sinning against God deserves infinite punishment whereas no other sin does. This position is difficult to maintain. Even if it is granted that sin against God is infinitely bad, punishment deserved is not directly correlated with the seriousness of wrong done. Causing the death of a person is the worst thing one can do to a human being, but some ways of doing something so seriously bad do not deserve any punishment at all (accidental killings, for example, or perhaps killing in a just war). Punishment deserved must be a function both of seriousness of wrong done, and some information about the intentions of the person doing the wrong. Furthermore, the latter information can sometimes yield the result that little or no punishment is deserved at all, even though the action performed seriously wrongs someone.

1.4 Alternatives to the Punishment Model

This fundamental problem with the traditional view leads to positions on the nature of hell that deny the Punishment Model. Hell is conceived on this alternative model in terms of something a person chooses. Hell may be a place where some people are punished, but the fundamental purpose of hell is not to punish people, but to honor their choices. There are a variety of conceptions of hell falling within this alternative model (see Adams, Kvanvig, Lewis, Stump, and Swinburne), and many of the same issues that face the Traditional Model arise here as well. For example, if hell is what a person chooses, what exactly is the content of the choice? If we think of the fundamental issue of heaven and hell as one concerning whether or not one's destiny will be with God, a natural view is that the content of the choice is either to be with God and all that requires or to reject that option. If so, the issue of annihilation is a central issue for the Choice Model, for there is no possibility of existing without dependence on God (a result that follows from the doctrine of divine conservation). Furthermore, God's perfect goodness constrains him to aim for our perfection always, so a choice to be independent of God, if fully informed, would be logically equivalent to a choice for annihilation.

Many of the same alternatives arise for the Choice model as arise for the Punishment model. One already noted is the issue of whether hell is conceived in terms of annihilation or in terms of eternal existence apart from God. Another issue is whether the Choice model is committed to something like a second chance alternative. At first glance it seems that it would amount to a second chance view, insofar as one's capacity to choose differently from what one had chosen in the past remains. One way to argue that the Choice model involves no commitment to a second chance view is to argue that there is no chance of escaping hell even on the Choice model if the choice needs to be rational and the most persuasive rational considerations that would prompt such a choice have already been exhausted. In a similar fashion, nothing about the Choice model itself argues against universalism, though the fundamental importance of freedom on this model might provide a basis for arguing against the idea that it is metaphysically impossible to avoid heaven.

2. Heaven

This discussion of the doctrine of hell reveals how Christian thought on the doctrine has centered around the question of the justice of hell. Reflection on the doctrine of heaven, however, has not focused as much on issues of fairness or justice, though such issues are sure to arise. Instead, the primary concerns about heaven have centered elsewhere.

2.1 Primary Concerns

The primary topics in thought about heaven concern whether true happiness or blessedness is possible for those in heaven (perhaps one's memories never fade sufficiently to allow perfect blessedness, or perhaps the suffering of the damned in hell prevents such bliss, or perhaps no matter what heaven is like, it will become tedious or boring at some point), why faith or belief in God is a prerequisite for presence in heaven, and whether it is possible to leave heaven once one is there. The first issue is independent of one's conception of hell, for no matter how hell is conceived, it is an infinitely less valuable than presence in heaven, and awareness of this fact, given anything like our present psychology, would interfere with perfect blessedness. Some have argued that seeing the suffering of those in hell will add to the blessedness of the experience in heaven. This idea taps into an important aspect of human experience, for it is a common reaction to enjoy seeing people get their just deserts. Furthermore, there is something to be said in favor of the idea that it is appropriate to have a positive emotional response to seeing justice done. Still, such a response only helps if one adopts a punishment model of hell, for on the choice model, the concept of just deserts is not central. Finally, the problem of tedium is hard to find compelling, even though it is equally hard to find a compelling response to it. Perhaps it is a failure of imagination that leads to the problem, but if it is, the same failure of imagination will prevent us from finding a convincing reply to the difficulty. The second issue is primarily one in soteriology, which would take us well beyond the topic of this entry, and the third issue, about whether one could leave heaven once there, mirrors the questions regarding the doctrine of hell concerning escape from it. This concern is heightened for theological perspectives that view Satan as having once been present in heaven only to fall from it, for such views cannot maintain that it is impossible to get out of heaven once there. Perhaps they might hold that such is impossible for humans only, but it is hard to see what could justify such a distinction. In any case, the standard explanation for why it is either impossible to leave heaven or why no one would ever in fact choose to do so appeals to the blessedness of the beatific vision itself, the experience of which is held to be so much greater and more blessed than the anything hoped for by the redeemed that nothing could or would be capable of turning the satisfied soul to look elsewhere for satisfaction.

At its core, this concern about whether it is possible to leave heaven or escape hell is a threat to the idea of finality or culmination involved in traditional eschatology. The concerns raised from this quarter show how difficult it is to conceive of the afterlife as both a continuation of personal existence, including those aspects of being a person that seem so central, such as freedom and autonomy, and yet as a culmination involving finality. One can retain aspects of freedom and autonomy for personal existence when one argues that no one will ever leave heaven or escape hell, that no one would do so, or even that any such choice would be completely unmotivated and hence inexplicable. The stronger claim that it is metaphysically impossible to leave heaven or escape hell presents greater challenges, however, for such a position is harder to reconcile with the presence of freedom and autonomy so central to our conception of survival of death as persons; and yet, such metaphysical impossibility is the most natural position to endorse when one's conception of the afterlife is a truly eschatological perspective involving the ideas of finality and culmination.

2.2 The Issue of Justice

There are also two indications of concern about the justice of heaven in Christian thought. The first is reflected in the central position of the doctrine of justification in Christian theology. This doctrine presents in summary form the entire point of the Christian faith: that through the saving work of Jesus, the broken relationship between God and humans is restored, with the result that those redeemed by God in this way come to share his presence in heaven. The philosophical task of the doctrine traces to St. Paul's argument of the first chapters of Romans that God is both just and a justifier of sinners; that there is no logical conflict inherent in this conjunction, in spite of the fact that a classic example, both in ordinary thought and, pertinent to the mindset of St. Paul, in the Hebrew Bible of an unjust judge is one who lets the guilty go free. The doctrine of justification, that is, undertakes to show that there is no contradiction between the claims that God is perfectly righteous, just, and holy, that human beings are sinners, and that God justifies such human beings, i.e., grants them heaven in spite of their not deserving it. Without an adequate doctrine of justification, Christianity could no longer view heaven as primarily the culmination of God's gracious response to the human condition. Instead of having a doctrine of heaven centering on the concept of grace, one could at most have a concept of heaven focusing on the concept of reward: heaven would be a reward for those sufficiently responsible in the lives and behavior to God's requirements.

The second aspect of the history of Christian reflection about heaven that signals a concern for the justice or fairness of it is the doctrine of purgatory and the correlative partitioning of heaven so that differential rewards are given to different individuals. The doctrine of purgatory holds a special place in this regard, however, for it is one thing to think that some individuals deserve a greater reward than others, and it is quite another thing to think that some individuals must undergo the inconvenience of purgatory in compensation for failures of the past or for the purpose of character development in preparation for the more blessed experience of (other regions of) heaven. Whereas the point of the doctrine of justification is to relieve Christianity of the charge that its understanding of heaven threatens the righteousness of God, the point of the doctrine of purgatory can be taken to rebut the claim that God's bestows his grace in a profligate manner. There is both the sense of unfairness involved in granting the same heavenly experience to those redeemed only at the last moment “between the saddle and the soil” and those whose youthful redemption is followed by lifelong service and faithfulness to God, and a sense of incoherence in maintaining that true blessedness can be experienced by those whose lives and character are still bent and twisted by sin. True blessedness comes only when one's desires for the good are satisfied, and for those who desire otherwise, such is simply impossible.

3. The Possibility of a Unified Account

Given human nature, it is not surprising that the issues of justice that arise regarding the doctrine of hell have received much more attention than those surrounding the doctrine of heaven. Most of us are more comfortable getting benefits we do not deserve or gifts that are inappropriate than we are shouldering burdens that are not ours or suffering pain we do not deserve. The fundamental point to notice here, however, is that the doctrines of heaven and hell are not separable in this way. They are intimately linked, and the account one accepts of one constrains the kind of account one can develop of the other. These points may seem obvious, but they are ignored regularly, especially in discussion of the nature of hell. If we think of hell as a place of punishment, the logical contrast would seem to indicate that heaven is a place of reward. Yet, the Christian conception denies that heaven is fundamentally a reward for faithful service; it is, rather, the free and gracious gift of a loving God, unmerited by anything we have done. Another way to put this tension is to note that explanations of presence in heaven and presence in hell seem to have little in common. On the usual position, presence in heaven is explained in terms of God's love, not his justice or fairness, whereas presence in hell is explained in terms of his justice rather than his love. Such explanations are at best incomplete, for love and justice often pull us in different directions regarding how to treat people. Some ways of treating people are just, but unloving; and some ways are caring, but less than fully just. At the very least, some explanation is required concerning the interaction of the motives God has in establishing heaven and hell.

More can be said, however. In the Christian view, God's fundamental motive must be conceived of in terms of love rather than justice. Justice has no hope of explaining the two great acts of God, creation and redemption; only love can account for them. If so, however, one's account of hell ought to accord with this hierarchical conception of God's motivational structure as well. In particular, it will not do to portray God as fundamentally loving until we reach the point of discussing the nature of hell, and suddenly portray God as fundamentally a just God--God simply couldn't be fundamentally both without engendering paralysis in cases where the two conflict. In some way, the tnesion must be addressed and resolved.

The most straightforward way to give a unified account of heaven and hell is to portray each as flowing from one and the same divine motivational structure. Whereas the Punishment Model of Hell has difficulty proceeding in this way, the Choice Model seems much better suited to such an account. For if hell is constructed to honor the choices that free individual might make, it is not hard to see how a fundamentally loving God could construct it in this way. For in truly loving another, we often must risk losing the other, and part of loving completely requires a willingness to lose the other completely as well. Such a unified conception of heaven and hell, where both are grounded in and explained in terms of God's love, comports well with Dante's conception of hell: hell was built by divine power, by the highest wisdom, and by primordial love.

Adopting a unified account of heaven and hell does not by itself yield a complete view of heaven and hell, even when the unified account portrays both heaven and hell as issuing from the Divine motive of love. Even if one denies the punishment thesis of the traditional view, there is still the question of the other three theses. Depending on which theses are accepted, the choice model can be developed so as to involve a kind of annihilationism, or universalism, as well as the choice view closest to the traditional view of hell, the choice view that endorses all of the theses of the traditional view except the punishment thesis.

Still, many of the same difficulties arise for these views in the context of the choice model as arose in the context of the punishment model. Annihilationism would be hard to portray as a mitigation of the harshness of hell, since hell is no longer being conceived primarily in terms of punishment (though nothing about the choice model requires denying that hell involves punishment motivated by love). Universalism in its necessary form still will be difficult to reconcile with notions of freedom and autonomy, and contingent universalism will need a defense that doesn't advert to the unloving character of hell and the jarring thought of how a loving God could allow someone to suffer the ultimate disaster of hell as conceived in the traditional view of hell. Moreover any version of the choice model will need either to jettison the eschatological ideas of finality and consummation or offer some explanation of how these ideas can be affirmed in the absence of the kind of finality that rests ultimately on a divine decree.


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