Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
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First published Wed Sep 10, 2003; substantive revision Mon Dec 14, 2009

Respect has great importance in everyday life. As children we are taught (one hopes) to respect our parents, teachers, and elders, school rules and traffic laws, family and cultural traditions, other people's feelings and rights, our country's flag and leaders, the truth and people's differing opinions. And we come to value respect for such things; when we're older, we may shake our heads (or fists) at people who seem not to have learned to respect them. We develop great respect for people we consider exemplary and lose respect for those we discover to be clay-footed, and so we may try to respect only those who are truly worthy of our respect. We may also come to believe that, at some level, all people are worthy of respect. We may learn that jobs and relationships become unbearable if we receive no respect in them; in certain social milieus we may learn the price of disrespect if we violate the street law: “Diss me, and you die.” Calls to respect this or that are increasingly part of public life: environmentalists exhort us to respect nature, foes of abortion and capital punishment insist on respect for human life, members of racial and ethnic minorities and those discriminated against because of their gender, sexual orientation, age, religious beliefs, or economic status demand respect both as social and moral equals and for their cultural differences. And it is widely acknowledged that public debates about such demands should take place under terms of mutual respect. We may learn both that our lives together go better when we respect the things that deserve to be respected and that we should respect some things independently of considerations of how our lives would go.

We may also learn that how our lives go depends every bit as much on whether we respect ourselves. The value of self-respect may be something we can take for granted, or we may discover how very important it is when our self-respect is threatened, or we lose it and have to work to regain it, or we have to struggle to develop or maintain it in a hostile environment. Some people find that finally being able to respect themselves is what matters most about getting off welfare, kicking a disgusting habit, or defending something they value; others, sadly, discover that life is no longer worth living if self-respect is irretrievably lost. It is part of everyday wisdom that respect and self-respect are deeply connected, that it is difficult if not impossible both to respect others if we don't respect ourselves and to respect ourselves if others don't respect us. It is increasingly part of political wisdom both that unjust social institutions can devastatingly damage self-respect and that robust and resilient self-respect can be a potent force in struggles against injustice.

The ubiquity and significance of respect and self-respect in everyday life largely explains why philosophers, particularly in moral and political philosophy, have been interested in these two concepts. They turn up in a multiplicity of philosophical contexts, including discussions of justice and equality, injustice and oppression, autonomy and agency, moral and political rights and duties, moral motivation and moral development, cultural diversity and toleration, punishment and political violence. The concepts are also invoked in bioethics, environmental ethics, business ethics, workplace ethics, and a host of other applied ethics contexts. Although a wide variety of things are said to deserve respect, contemporary philosophical interest in respect has overwhelmingly been focused on respect for persons, the idea that all persons should be treated with respect simply because they are persons. Respect for persons is a central concept in many ethical theories; some theories treat it as the very essence of morality and the foundation of all other moral duties and obligations. This focus owes much to the 18th century German philosopher, Immanuel Kant, who argued that all and only persons (i.e., rational autonomous agents) and the moral law they autonomously legislate are appropriate objects of the morally most significant attitude of respect. Although honor, esteem, and prudential regard played important roles in moral and political theories before him, Kant was the first major Western philosopher to put respect for persons, including oneself as a person, at the very center of moral theory, and his insistence that persons are ends in themselves with an absolute dignity who must always be respected has become a core ideal of modern humanism and political liberalism. In recent years many people have argued that moral respect ought also to be extended to things other than persons, such as nonhuman living things and the natural environment.

Despite the widespread acknowledgment of the importance of respect and self-respect in moral and political life and theory, there is no settled agreement in either everyday thinking or philosophical discussion about such issues as how to understand the concepts, what the appropriate objects of respect are, what is involved in respecting various objects, what the conditions are for self-respect, and what the scope is of any moral requirements regarding respect and self-respect. This entry will survey these and related issues.

1. The Concept of Respect

Among the main questions about respect that philosophers have addressed are these: (1) How should respect in general be understood? (a) What category of thing is it? Philosophers have variously identified it as a mode of behavior, a form of treatment, a kind of valuing, a type of attention, a motive, an attitude, a feeling, a tribute, a principle, a duty, an entitlement, a moral virtue, an epistemic virtue: are any of these categories more central than others? (b) What are the distinctive elements of respect? (c) To what other attitudes, actions, valuings, duties, etc. is respect similar, and with what does it contrast? (d) What beliefs, attitudes, emotions, motives, and conduct does respect involve, and with what is it incompatible? (2) What are the appropriate objects of respect, i.e., the sorts of things that can be reasonably said to warrant respect? (3) What are the bases or grounds for respect, i.e., the features of or facts about objects in virtue of which it is reasonable and perhaps obligatory to respect them? (4) What ways of acting and forbearing to act express or constitute or are regulated by respect? (5) What moral requirements, if any, are there to respect certain types of objects, and what is the scope and theoretical status of such requirements? (6) Are there different levels or degrees of respect? Can an object come to deserve less or no respect? (7) Why is respect morally important? What, if anything, does it add to morality over and above the conduct, attitudes, and character traits required or encouraged by various moral principles or virtues? (8) What are the implications of respect for problematic moral and sociopolitical issues such as racism and sexism, pornography, privacy, punishment, responses to terrorism, paternalism in health care contexts, cultural diversity, affirmative action, abortion, and so on?

1.1 Elements of respect

It is widely acknowledged that there are different kinds of respect, which complicates the answering of these questions. For example, answers concerning one kind of respect can diverge significantly from those about another kind. Much philosophical work has gone into explicating differences and links among the various kinds. One general distinction is between respect simply as behavior and respect as an attitude or feeling which may or may not be expressed in or signified by behavior. We might speak of drivers respecting the speed limit, hostile forces as respecting a cease fire agreement, or AIDS as not respecting national borders, and in such cases we can be referring simply to behavior which avoids violation of or interference with some boundary, limit, or rule, without any reference to attitudes, feelings, intentions, or dispositions, and even, as in the case of the AIDS virus, without imputing agency (Bird 2004). In such cases the behavior is regarded as constitutive of respecting. In other cases, we take respect to be or to express or signify an attitude or feeling, as when we speak of having respect for another person or for nature or of certain behaviors as showing respect or disrespect. In what follows, I will focus chiefly on respect as attitude or feeling. There are, again, several different attitudes or feelings to which the term “respect” refers. Before looking at differences, however, it is useful first to note some elements common among varieties.

An attitude of respect is, most generally, a relation between a subject and an object in which the subject responds to the object from a certain perspective in some appropriate way. Respect necessarily has an object: respect is always directed toward, paid to, felt about, shown for some object. While a very wide variety of things can be appropriate objects of one kind of respect or another, the subject of respect (the respecter) is always a person, that is, a conscious rational being capable of recognizing and acknowledging things, of self-consciously and intentionally responding to them, of having and expressing values with regard to them, and of being accountable for disrespecting or failing to respect them. Though animals may love or fear us, only persons can respect and disrespect us or anything else. Respect is a responsive relation, and ordinary discourse about respect identifies several key elements of the response, including attention, deference, judgment, acknowledgment, valuing, and behavior. First, as suggested by its derivation from the Latin respicere, which means “to look back at” or “to look again,” respect is a particular mode of apprehending the object: the person who respects something pays attention to it and perceives it differently from someone who does not and responds to it in light of that perception. This perceptual element is common also to synonyms such as regard (from “to watch out for”) and consideration (“examine (the stars) carefully”). The idea of paying heed or giving proper attention to the object which is central to respect often means trying to see the object clearly, as it really is in its own right, and not seeing it solely through the filter of one's own desires and fears or likes and dislikes. Thus, respecting something contrasts with being oblivious or indifferent to it, ignoring or quickly dismissing it, neglecting or disregarding it, or carelessly or intentionally misidentifying it. An object can be perceived by a subject from a variety of perspectives; for example, one might rightly regard another human individual as a rights-bearer, a judge, a superlative singer, a trustworthy person, or a threat to one's security. The respect one accords her in each case will be different, yet all will involve attention to her as she really is as a judge, threat, etc. It is in virtue of this aspect of careful attention that respect is sometimes thought of as an epistemic virtue.

As responsive, respect is object-generated rather than wholly subject-generated, something that is owed to, called for, deserved, elicited, or claimed by the object. We respect something not because we want to but because we recognize that we have to respect it (Wood 1999); respect involves “a deontic experience”—the experience that one must pay attention and respond appropriately (Birch 1993). It thus is motivational: it is the recognition of something “as directly determining our will without reference to what is wanted by our inclinations” (Rawls 2000, 153). In this way respect differs from, for example, liking and fearing, which have their sources in the subject's interests or desires. When we respect something, we heed its call, accord it its due, acknowledge its claim to our attention. Thus, respect involves deference, in the most basic sense of yielding: self-absorption and egocentric concerns give way to consideration of the object, one's motives or feelings submit to the object's reality, one is disposed to act in obedience to the object's demands.

At the same time, respect is also an expression of agency: it is deliberate, a matter of directed rather than grabbed attention, of reflective consideration and judgment. In particular, the subject judges that the object is due, deserves, or rightfully claims a certain response in virtue of some feature of or fact about the object that warrants that response. This feature or fact is the ground or basis in the object, that in virtue of which it calls for respect. The basis gives us a reason to respect the object; it may also indicate more precisely how to respect it. Respect is thus reason-governed: we cannot respect a particular object for just any old reason or for no reason at all. Rather, we respect an object for the reason that it has, in our judgment, some respect-warranting characteristic, that it is, in our view, the kind of object that calls for that kind of response (Cranor 1975; but see Buss 1999 for disagreement). And these reasons are categorical, in the sense that their weight or stringency does not depend on the subject's interests, goals, or desires; hence acting against these reasons, other things equal, is wrong (Raz 2001). Respect is thus both subjective and objective. It is subjective in that the subject's response is constructed from her understanding of the object and its characteristics and her judgments about the legitimacy of its call and how fittingly to address the call. An individual's respect for an object can thus be inappropriate or unwarranted, for the object may not have the features she takes it to have, or the features she takes to be respect-warranting might not be, or her idea of how properly to treat the object might be mistaken. But, as object-generated, the logic of respect is the logic of objectivity and universality, in four ways. First, in respecting an object, we respond to it not as an extension of feelings, desires, and interests we already have, but as something whose significance is independent of us. Second, we experience the object as constraining our attitudes and actions. Third, our reasons for respecting something are, we logically have to assume, reasons for other people to respect it (or at least to endorse our respect for it from a common point of view). Respect is thus, unlike erotic or filial love, an impersonal response to the object. Fourth, respect is universalizing, in the sense that if F is a respect-warranting feature of object O, then respecting O on account of F commits us, other things equal, to respecting other things that also have feature F. In respect, then, subjectivity defers to objectivity.

There are many different kinds of objects that can reasonably be respected and many different reasons why they warrant respect; thus warranted responses can take different forms beyond attention, deference, and judgment. Some things are dangerous or powerful and respect of them can involve fear, awe, self-protection, or submission. Other things have authority over us and the respect they are due includes acknowledgment of their authority and perhaps obedience to their authoritative commands. Other forms of respect are modes of valuing, appreciating the object as having an objective worth or importance that is independent of, perhaps even at variance with, our antecedent desires or commitments. Thus, we can respect things we don't like or agree with, such as our enemies or someone else's opinion. Valuing respect is kin to esteem, admiration, veneration, reverence, and honor, while regarding something as utterly worthless or insignificant or disdaining or having contempt for it is incompatible with respecting it. Respect also aims to value its object appropriately, so it contrasts with degradation and discounting. The kinds of valuing that respect involves also contrast with other forms of valuing such as promoting or using (Anderson 1993, Pettit 1989). Indeed, regarding a person merely as useful (treating her as just a sexual object, an ATM machine, a research subject) is commonly identified as a central form of disrespect for persons, and many people decry the killing of endangered wild animals for their tusks or hides as despicably disrespectful of nature. Respect is sometimes identified as a feeling; it is typically the experiencing of something as valuable that is in focus in these cases.

Finally, respect is generally regarded as having a behavioral component. In respecting an object, we often consider it be making legitimate claims on our conduct as well as our thoughts and feelings and are disposed to behave appropriately. Appropriate behavior includes refraining from certain treatment of the object or acting only in particular ways in connection with it, ways that are regarded as fitting, deserved by, or owed to the object. And there are very many ways to respect things: keeping our distance from them, helping them, praising or emulating them, obeying or abiding by them, not violating or interfering with them, destroying them in some ways rather than letting them be destroyed in others, protecting or being careful with them, talking about them in ways that reflect their worth or status, mourning them, nurturing them. One can behave in respectful ways, however, without having respect for the object, as when a teen who disdains adults behaves respectfully toward her friend's parents in a scheme to get the car, manipulating rather than respecting them. To be a form or expression of respect, behavior has to be motivated by one's acknowledgment of the object as calling for that behavior, and it has to be motivated directly by consideration that the object is what it is, without reference to one's own interests and desires. On the other hand, certain kinds of feelings would not count as respect if they did not find expression in behavior or involved no dispositions to behave in certain ways rather than others, and if they did not spring from the beliefs, perceptions, and judgments that the object is worthy of or calls for such behavior.

The attitudes of respect, then, have cognitive dimensions (beliefs, acknowledgments, judgments, deliberations, commitments), affective dimensions (emotions, feelings, ways of experiencing things), and conative dimensions (motivations, dispositions to act and forbear from acting); some forms also have valuational dimensions. The attitude is typically regarded as central to respect: actions and modes of treatment typically count as respect insofar as they either manifest an attitude of respect or are of a sort through which the attitude of respect is characteristically expressed; a principle of respect is one that, logically, must be adopted by someone with the attitude of respect or that prescribes the attitude or actions that express it (Frankena 1986, Downie and Telfer 1969).

1.2 Kinds of Respect

That it is the nature of the object that determines its respect-worthiness, and that there are different kinds of objects calling for correspondingly different responses has led many philosophers to argue that there are different kinds of respect. In what follows, three sets of distinctions will be discussed.

Speculating on the historical development of the idea that all persons as such deserve respect, and using terms found in Kant's writings on Achtung (the German word usually translated as “respect”), Feinberg (1975) identifies three distinct concepts for which “respect” has been the name. (1) Respekt, is the “uneasy and watchful attitude that has 'the element of fear' in it” (1975,1). Its objects are dangerous things or things with power over the subject. It is respekt that woodworkers are encouraged to have for power tools, that a city dweller might have for street gangs, a new sailor might be admonished to have for the sea, a child might have for an abusive parent. Respekt contrasts with contemptuous disregard; it is shown in conduct that is cautious, self-protective, other-placating. (2) The second concept, observantia, is the moralized analogue of respekt. It involves regarding the object as making a rightful claim on our conduct, as deserving moral consideration in its own right, independently of considerations of personal well being. It is observantia, Feinberg maintains, that historically was extended first to classes of non-dangerous but otherwise worthy people and then to all persons as such, regardless of merit or ability. Observantia encompasses both the respect said to be owed to all humans equally and the forms of polite respect and deference that acknowledge different social positions. (3) Reverentia, the third concept, is the special feeling of profound awe and respect we have in the presence of something extraordinary or sublime, a feeling that both humbles and uplifts us. On Kant's account, the moral law and people who exemplify it in morally worthy actions elicit reverentia from us, for we experience the law or its exemplification as “something that always trumps our inclinations in determining our wills” (Feinberg 1975, 2). Feinberg sees different forms of power as underlying the three kinds of respect; in each case, respect is the acknowledgment of the power of something other than ourselves to demand, command, or make claims on our attention, consideration, and deference.

Hudson (1980) draws a four-fold distinction among kinds of respect, according to the bases in the objects. Consider the following sets of examples: (a) respecting a colleague highly as a scholar and having a lot of respect for someone with “guts”; (b) a mountain climber's respect for the elements and a tennis player's respect for her opponent's strong backhand; (c) respecting the terms of an agreement and respecting a person's rights; and (d) showing respect for a judge by rising when she enters the courtroom and respecting a worn-out flag by burning it rather than tossing it in the trash. The respect in (a), evaluative respect, is similar to other favorable attitudes such as esteem and admiration; it is earned or deserved (or not) depending on whether and to the degree that the object is judged to meet certain standards. Obstacle respect, in (b), is a matter of regarding the object as something that, if not taken proper account of in one's decisions about how to act, could prevent one from achieving one's ends. The objects of (c) directive respect are directives: things such as requests, rules, advice, laws, or rights claims that may be taken as guides to action. One respects a directive when one's behaviors intentionally comply with it. The objects of (d) institutional respect are social institutions or practices, the positions or roles defined within an institution or practice, and persons or things that occupy the positions or represent the institution. Institutional respect is shown by behavior that conforms to rules that prescribe certain conduct as respectful. These four forms of respect differ in several ways. Each identifies a quite different kind of feature of objects as the basis of respect. Each is expressed in action in quite different ways, although evaluative respect need not be expressed at all, one can have institutional respect for an institution (e.g., the criminal justice system) without showing it for a particular element of it (the judge in this trial), and directive respect is not an attitude that one might or might not express but a mode of conduct motivated by a recognition of the directive's authority. Evaluative respect centrally involves having a favorable attitude toward the object, while the other forms do not. Directive respect does not admit of degrees (one either obeys the rule or doesn't), but the others do (we can have more evaluative respect for one person than another). Hudson uses this distinction to argue that respect for persons is not a unique kind of respect but should be conceived rather as involving some combination or other of these four.

To Hudson's four-fold classification, Dillon (1992a) adds a fifth form, care respect, which is exemplified in an environmentalist's deep respect for nature. Care respect involves regarding the object as having profound and perhaps unique value and so cherishing it, and perceiving it as fragile or calling for special care and so acting or forbearing to act out of felt benevolent concern for it. This analysis of respect draws explicitly from a feminist ethics of care and has been influential in feminist and non-feminist discussions of respecting persons as unique, particular individuals.

Darwall (1977) distinguishes two kinds of respect: recognition respect and appraisal respect. Recognition respect is the disposition to give appropriate weight or consideration in one's practical deliberations to some fact about the object and to regulate one's conduct by constraints derived from that fact. (Frankena 1986 and Cranor 1982, 1983) refer to this as “consideration respect.”) A wide variety of objects can be objects of recognition respect, including laws, dangerous things, someone's feelings, social institutions, nature, the selves individuals present in different contexts, and persons as such. Appraisal respect, by contrast, is an attitude of positive appraisal of a person or their merits, which are features of persons that manifest excellences of character. Individuals can be the objects of appraisal respect either as persons or as engaged in some pursuit or occupying some role. Evaluation is always done in light of some qualitative standards, and different standards can apply to one and the same individual. Thus, appraisal respect is a matter of degree, depending on the extent to which the object meets the standards (so, we can respect someone more or less highly and respect one person more highly than another), and it can co-exist with (some) negative assessments of an individual or her traits (judged in light of other standards). We can have appraisal respect for someone's honesty even while thinking her lazy, and we can highly respect someone else as altogether a morally fine person; we can respect an individual as an excellent teacher or carpenter yet regard her as far from a moral exemplar. Darwall (1977) distinguishes appraisal respect, which is based on assessment of character traits, from esteem, another attitude of positive assessment whose wider basis include any features in virtue of which one can think well of someone. However, other philosophers treat “esteem” and (appraisal) “respect” as synonyms, and Darwall (2004) calls appraisal respect a form of esteem.

The recognition/appraisal distinction has been quite influential and is widely regarded as the fundamental distinction. If it is, then it should encompass the other distinctions (although some fine-tuning might be necessary). And indeed, evaluative respect and perhaps reverentia for morally good persons are essentially the same as appraisal respect, while respekt, obstacle respect, observantia, directive respect, institutional respect, and care respect can be analyzed as forms of recognition respect. Some philosophers, however, have found the recognition/appraisal distinction to be inadequate. Neither reverentia for the moral law nor the felt experience of reverential respect for the sublimity of persons as such (Buss 1999) are forms of appraisal respect, yet because recognition respect is analyzed, first, as holding only in deliberative contexts, and second, as not essentially involving feeling, reverentia seems also not to be a form of recognition respect. Moreover, while valuing the object is not part of Darwall's analysis of recognition respect—and it is not essential to some forms of recognition respect (e.g., directive respect) and is only indirectly involved in other forms (in obstacle respect, we don't value the obstacle but do value the goal it blocks us from reaching)—valuing is essential to some forms of respect that are not appraisal respect. In particular, valuing persons intrinsically is widely regarded as the heart of the respect that all persons are thought to be owed simply as persons. However, it is not sufficient simply to gloss recognition respect as recognizing the value of the object, for one can recognize the value of something and yet not value it, as an insurance appraiser does, or take the value of something, say, a person's child, into account in deliberating about how best to revenge oneself on that person. Respect for some categories of objects is not just a matter of taking the object's value into consideration but of valuing the object, and valuing it intrinsically. Analyzing appraisal respect as just the positive assessment of someone's character traits as good is similarly problematic, for one can evaluate something highly and yet not value it. For example, one can appraise someone's moral performance as stellar and hate or envy her for precisely that reason. Respect in the appraisal sense is not just evaluating but also valuing the object positively. The recognition/appraisal distinction thus seems to obscure another very important distinction between what we might call valuing respect and non-valuing respect. Appraisal respect is a form of valuing respect, but recognition respect includes both valuing and non-valuing forms. There are, of course, different modes of valuing, and at least three distinctions are relevant to respect: (a) between moral and non-moral valuing (or, valuing from a moral or a nonmoral point of view), (b) between comparative and non-comparative valuing, and (c) between valuing intrinsically (valuing it in itself, apart from valuing anything else) and valuing extrinsically (for example, because of its relation to something else of value) (Anderson 1993). A complete account of respect would need to work out a taxonomy that incorporates these valuing distinctions.

In the rest of this article, I will discuss respect and self-respect using Darwall's term “recognition respect,” Hudson's term “evaluative respect,” and Feinberg's “reverential respect” (the last for the valuing feeling that is motivational without being deliberative), specifying the valuing dimensions as necessary.

In everyday discourse, the valuing sense of respect, especially when used about people, most commonly means thinking highly of someone, i.e., evaluative respect. However, philosophical attention to respect has tended to focus on recognition (or, sometimes, reverential) respect that acknowledges or values the object from a moral point of view. These discussions tend to relate such respect to the concepts of moral standing or moral worth. Moral standing, or moral considerability, is the idea that certain things matter morally in their own right and so are appropriate objects of direct fundamental moral consideration or concern (Kuflik 1998, Birch 1993, P. Taylor 1986). Some form of recognition respect is, on some accounts, a primary mode of such moral consideration. Alternatively, it is argued that certain things have a distinctive kind of intrinsic and incomparable moral worth or value, often called “dignity,” in virtue of which they ought to be accorded some valuing form of moral recognition or reverential respect. Discussions that focus on moral standing or moral worth address questions such as: What things fall within the domain of basic moral consideration or have this distinctive moral worth? What confers moral standing on objects, or what is the basis of their moral worth? Are there different levels of moral standing and, if so, do objects at different levels warrant different modes of moral respect? And what sorts of treatment are constitutive of, express, or are compatible with such moral respect? In modern philosophical discussions, humans are universally regarded as the paradigm objects of moral respect; if anything has moral standing or dignity and so warrants respect, it is the individual human being. Although some theorists argue that nature (or, all living beings, species, ecosystems) or societies (or, cultures, traditions) also warrant the moral consideration and valuing of respect, most philosophical discussion of respect has focused on respect for persons.

2. Respect for Persons

People can be the objects or recipients of different forms of respect. We can (directive) respect a person's legal rights, show (institutional) respect for the president by calling him “Mr. President,” have a healthy (obstacle) respect (respekt) for an easily angered person, (care) respect someone by cherishing her in her concrete particularity, (evaluatively) respect an individual for her commitment to a worthy project, and accord one person the same basic moral respect we think any person deserves. Thus the idea of respect for persons is ambiguous. Because both institutional respect and evaluative respect can be for persons in roles or position, the phrase “respecting someone as an R” might mean either having high regard for a person's excellent performance in the role or behaving in ways that express due consideration or deference to an individual qua holder of that position. Similarly, the phrase “respecting someone as a person” might refer to appraising her as overall a morally good person, or to acknowledging her standing as an equal in the moral community, or to attending to her as the particular person she is as opposed to treating her like just another body. In the literature of moral and political philosophy, the notion of respect for persons commonly means a kind of respect that all people are owed morally just because they are persons, regardless of social position, individual characteristics or achievements, or moral merit. The idea is that persons as such have a distinctive moral status in virtue of which we have special categorical obligations to regard and treat them in ways that are constrained by certain inviolable limits. This is sometimes expressed in terms of rights: persons, it is said, have a fundamental moral right to respect simply because they are persons. And it is a commonplace that persons are owed or have a right to equal respect. It is obvious that we could not owe every individual evaluative respect, let alone equal evaluative respect, since not everyone acts morally correctly or has an equally morally good character. So, if it is true that all persons are owed or have a moral right to respect just as persons, then the concept of respect for person has to be analyzed as some form or combination of forms of recognition or reverential respect. For a variety of reasons, however, it is controversial whether we do indeed have a moral obligation to respect all persons, regardless of merit, and if so, why. There are disagreements, for example, about the scope of this claim, the grounds for respect, and the justification for the obligation. There is also a divergence of views about the kinds of treatment that are respectful of persons.

2.1 Some important issues

One source of controversy concerns the scope of the concept of a person. Although in everyday discourse the word “person” is synonymous with “human being,” some philosophical discussions treat it as a technical term whose range of application might be wider than the class of human beings (just as, for legal purposes, business corporations are regarded as persons). This is because some of the reasons that have been given for respecting persons have the logical consequence that non-human things warrant the same respect on the very same grounds as humans. Consequently, one question an account of respect for persons has to address is: Who or what are persons that are owed respect? Different answers have been offered, including all human beings; all and only those humans who are themselves capable of respecting persons; all beings capable of rational activity, whether human or not; all beings capable of functioning as moral agents, whether human or not. The second, third and fourth answers would seem to exclude deceased humans and humans who lack sufficient mental capacity, such as the profoundly retarded, the severely mentally ill and senile, those in persistent vegetative states, the pre-born, and perhaps very young children. The third and fourth answers might include artificial beings (androids, sophisticated robots), spiritual beings (gods, angels), extraterrestrial beings, and certain animals (apes, dolphins).

In trying to clarify who or what we are obligated to respect, we are naturally led to a question about the ground or basis of respect: What is it about persons that makes them matter morally and makes them worthy of respect? One common way of answer this question is to look for some morally significant natural quality that is common to all beings that are noncontroversially owed respect (for example, all normal adult humans). Candidate qualities include the ability to be moved by considerations of moral obligation, the ability to value appropriately, the ability to reason, and the ability to engage in reciprocal relationships. Some of these apply only to humans, others to other beings as well. Even regarding humans, there is a question of scope: Are all humans owed respect? If respect is something to which all human beings have an equal claim, then, it has been argued, the ground quality has to be one that all humans possess equally or in virtue of which humans are naturally equal, or a threshold quality that all humans possess, with variations above the threshold ignored. Some philosophers have argued that certain capacities fit the bill; others argue that there is no quality possessed by all humans that could be a plausible ground for a moral obligation of equal respect. Some draw from this the conclusion that respect is owed not to all but only to some human beings; others conclude that the obligation to respect all humans is groundless: rather than being grounded in some fact about humans, respect confers moral standing on them. But the last view still leaves the questions: why should this standing be conferred on humans? And is it conferred on all humans? Yet another question of scope is: Must persons always be respected? One view is that individuals forfeit their claim to respect by, for example, committing heinous crimes of disrespect against other persons, such as murder in the course of terrorism or genocide. Another view is that there are no circumstances under which it is morally justifiable to not respect a person, and that even torturers and child-rapists, though they may deserve the most severe condemnation and punishment and may have forfeited their rights to freedom and perhaps to life, still remain persons to whom we have obligations of respect, since the grounds of respect are independent of moral merit or demerit.

Beyond the question of the ground or basis of respect for persons, there is a further question of justification to be addressed, for it is one thing to say that persons have a certain valuable quality, but quite another thing to say that there is a moral obligation to respect persons. So we must ask: What reasons do we have for believing that the fact that persons possess quality X entails that we are morally obligated to respect persons by treating them in certain ways? (Hill 1997). Another way of asking a justification question seeks not a normative connection between qualities of persons and moral obligation, but an explanation for our belief that humans (and perhaps other beings) are owed respect, for example: What in our experience of other humans or in our evolutionary history explains the development and power of this belief? Our actual felt experiences of reverential respect play a significant role in some of these explanatory accounts; what justifies accepting our experience of respect for humans (or other beings) as grounds for an obligation is its coherence with our other moral beliefs (Buss 1999, Margalit 1996, Gibbard 1990).

Finally, there are questions about how we are supposed to respect persons, such as: What standards for conduct and character give appropriate expression to the attitude of respect? Some philosophers argue that the obligation to respect person functions as a negative constraint: respect involves refraining from regarding or treating persons in certain ways. For example, we ought not to treat them as if they were worthless or had value only insofar as we find them useful or interesting, or as if they were mere objects or specimens, or as if they were vermin or dirt; we ought not to violate their basic moral rights, or interfere with their efforts to make their own decisions and govern their own conduct, or humiliate them, or treat them in ways that flout their nature and worth as persons. Others maintain that we also have positive duties of respect: we ought, for example, to try to see each of them and the world from their own points of view, or help them to promote their morally acceptable ends, or protect them from their own self-harming decisions. And some philosophers note that it may be more respectful to judge someone's actions or character negatively or to punish someone for wrongdoing than to treat them as if they were not responsible for what they did, although requirements of respect would impose limits on how such judgments may be expressed and how persons may be punished. Another question is whether treating people with respect requires treating them equally. One view is that the equality of persons entails equal treatment; another view is that equal treatment would involve failing to respect the important differences among persons. On the latter view, it is respectful to deal with each individual impartially and exclusively on the basis of whatever aspects of the individual or the situation are relevant (Frankfurt 1999).

2.2 Kant's Account of Respect for Persons

The most influential position on these issues is found in the moral philosophy of Immanuel Kant (1785, 1788, 1797). Indeed, most contemporary discussions of respect for persons explicitly claim to rely on, develop, or challenge some aspect of Kant's ethics. Central to Kant's ethical theory is the claim that all persons are owed respect just because they are persons, that is, free rational beings. To be a person is to have a status and worth that is unlike that of any other kind of being: it is to be an end in itself with dignity. And the only response that is appropriate to such a being is respect. Respect (that is, moral recognition respect) is the acknowledgment in attitude and conduct of the dignity of persons as ends in themselves. Respect for such beings is not only appropriate but also morally and unconditionally required: the status and worth of person is such that they must always be respected. Because we are all too often inclined not to respect persons, not to value them as they ought to be valued, one formulation of the Categorical Imperative, which is the supreme principle of morality, commands that our actions express due respect for the worth of persons: “Act in such a way that you treat humanity, whether in your own person or the person of any other, never simply as a means but always at the same time as an end” (Grundlegung zur Metaphysik der Sitten (Groundwork of the Metaphysic of Moral) (1785), 4:429). Our fundamental moral obligation, then, is to respect persons; morally right actions are thus those that express respect for persons as ends in themselves, while morally wrong actions are those that express disrespect or contempt for persons by not valuing them as ends in themselves (Wood 1999). In addition to this general commandment, Kant argues that there are also more specific duties of respect for other persons and self-respect, to which we'll return. For now, we must address the question, What is it to be an end in itself and to possess dignity?

The concept of an end has several meanings for Kant. In one sense, to be an end is to have some kind of value or worth. Most things have value as the objects of our desires, interests, or affections; they are the ends we pursue or produce, our subjective ends. But the worth of an end in itself is worth that is not relative to, conditional on, or derived from being the object of anyone's desires or affections. Rather, its worth is intrinsic to it, unconditional, incomparable, and objective. Kant calls this distinctive worth which only ends in themselves possess “dignity.” In Kant's theory of value dignity is the supreme value; thus ends in themselves are to be valued morally above all other entities. Kant argues that rational beings are the only entities that are ends in themselves and that all rational beings are ends in themselves. The term “person” means a being whose rational nature “already marks them out as ends in themselves...and an object of respect” (Kant 1785, 4: 428). In arguing for respect for the dignity of persons, Kant explicitly rejects two other conceptions of human value: the aristocratic idea of honor that individuals differentially deserve according to their social rank, individual accomplishments, or moral virtue (see Berger 1983 for a discussion of the aristocratic dimensions of honor), and the view, baldly expressed by Hobbes, that “the value or worth of a man is, as of all other things, his price—that is to say, so much as would be given for the use of his power—and therefore is not absolute but a thing dependent on the need and judgment of another” (Hobbes 1958 (1651), 79). In Die Metaphysik der Sitten (The Metaphysics of Morals) (1797) Kant grants that if we think of humans as merely one kind of animal among others “in the system of nature,” we can ascribe a price to them, an extrinsic value that depends on their usefulness; but, he argues, “a human being regarded as a person, that is, as the subject of morally practical reason, is exalted above all an end in himself he possesses a dignity by which he exacts respect for himself from all other beings in the world” (Kant 1797, 6: 434–435). Against the aristocratic view Kant argues that although individuals as members of some social community or other may have or lack meritorious accomplishment or status or may deserve honor (or evaluative respect) to different degrees or not at all, all persons as members of the moral community, the community of all and only ends in themselves, are owed the same (moral recognition) respect, for the dignity that they possesses as rational is unconditional and independent of all other facts about or features of them. Dignity is also absolute and incomparable worth: it can't be compared with, exchanged for, or replaced by any other value, whereas the very purpose of a price is to establish comparative value. And dignity is objective worth, which means that it is a value that everyone has compelling reason to acknowledge, regardless of their antecedent desires, interests, or affections. This brings us to a second sense in which persons are ends in themselves. For “end” can also mean a limit or constraint on action (as the end of the road puts a limit on our our travel). The rational nature of persons “constitutes the supreme limiting condition of the freedom of action of every human being” (Kant 1785, 4: 431); it puts an absolute limit on how we can treat them. In particular, they must never be treated merely as means, as things that we may use however we want in order to advance our interests, and they must always be treated as the supremely valuable beings that they are. Note that it is not wrong to treat persons as means to our ends; indeed we could not get along in life if we could not make use of the talents, abilities, service, and labor of other people. What we must not do is to treat persons as mere means to our ends, to treat them as if the only value they have is what derives from their usefulness to us. We must always treat them “at the same time as an end.” To respect persons is thus to regard them as absolutely, unconditionally, and incomparably valuable, to value them in themselves and not just in comparison to others or insofar as they are valuable to someone or could be useful as a means for furthering some purpose, and to acknowledge in a practical way that their dignity imposes absolute constraints on our treatment of them.

As the Categorical Imperative indicates, it is humanity in persons, strictly speaking, that has dignity; that is, it is in virtue of the humanity in them that people are and so ought to be treated as ends in themselves. Commentators generally identify humanity (that which makes us distinctively human beings and sets us apart from all other animal species) with two closely related aspects of rationality: the capacity to set ends and the capacity to be autonomous, both of which are capacities to be a moral agent (for example, Wood 1999, Korsgaard 1997, Hill 1997). The capacity to set ends, which is the power of rational choice, is the capacity to value things through rational judgment: to determine, under the influence of reason independently of antecedent instincts or desires, that something is valuable or important, that it is worth seeking or valuing. It is also, thereby, the capacity to value ends in themselves, and so it includes the capacity for respect (Velleman 1999). The capacity to be autonomous is the capacity to be self-legislating and self-governing, that is, (a) the capacity to legislate moral laws that are valid for all rational beings through one's rational willing by recognizing, using reason alone, what counts as a moral obligation, and (b) the capacity then to freely resolve to act in accordance with moral laws because they are self-imposed by one's own reason and not because one is compelled to act by any forces external to one's reason and will, including one's own desires and inclinations. The capacity to be autonomous is thus also the capacity to freely direct, shape, and determine the meaning of one's own life, and it is the condition for moral responsibility. But why does the possession of these capacities make persons ends in themselves? Kant argues that moral principles must be categorical imperatives, which is to say that they must be rational requirements to which we are unconditionally subject, regardless of whatever inclinations, interests, goals, or projects we might have. But there could be categorical imperatives only if there is something of absolute worth. Only persons have this kind of worth, and they have it because the capacity to set ends, or to confer value on things, is the source of all objective value (as Korsgaard 1996 and Wood 1999 have argued), and the capacity for autonomy is the source, on the one hand, both of the obligatoriness of moral law and of responsible moral actions, and on the other, of all realized human goodness. As the sources of all value and of morality itself, then, these rational capacities are the basis of the absolute worth or dignity of rational beings. Kant maintains that all rational beings necessarily attribute this value to themselves and that they must, on reflection, acknowledge that every other rational being has the same value and on the same grounds: because of the rational nature that is common to all persons. It is thus not as members of the biological species homo sapiens that we have dignity and so are owed moral recognition respect, but as rational beings who are capable of moral agency.

There are several important consequences of this view regarding the scope of recognition respect for persons. First, while all normally functioning human beings possess the rational capacities that ground recognition respect, there can be humans in whom these capacities are altogether absent and who therefore are not persons and are not owed respect. Second, these capacities may be possessed by beings who are not biologically human, and such beings would also be persons with dignity whom we are morally obligated to respect. Third, because dignity is an absolute worth grounded in the rational capacities for morality, it is in no way conditional on how well or badly those capacities are exercised, on whether a person acts morally or has a morally good character or not. Thus, dignity cannot be diminished or lost through vice or morally bad action, nor can it be increased through virtue or morally correct action. Because personhood and dignity are not matters of degree, neither is the recognition respect owed to persons. Once a person, always a person (barring, say, brain death), and so individuals cannot forfeit dignity or the right to recognition respect no matter what they do. It follows that even the morally worst individuals must still be regarded as ends in themselves and treated with respect. Of course, wrongdoing may call for punishment and may be grounds for forfeiting certain rights, but it is not grounds for losing dignity or for regarding the wrongdoer as worthless scum. Recognition respect is not something individuals have to earn or might fail to earn, but something they are owed simply because they are rational beings. Finally, because dignity is absolute and incomparable, the worth of all rational beings is equal. Thus the morally worst persons have the same dignity as the morally best persons, although the former, we might say, fail to live up to their dignity. What grounds dignity is something that all persons have in common, not something that distinguishes one individual from another. Thus each person is to be respected as an equal among equals, without consideration of their individual achievements or failures, social rank, moral merit or demerit, or any feature other than their common rational nature. However, the equality of all rational beings does not entail that each person must be treated the same as every other persons, nor does it entail that persons cannot also be differentially evaluated and valued in other ways for their particular qualities, accomplishments, merit, or usefulness. But such valuing and treatment must always be constrained by the moral requirement to accord recognition respect to persons as ends in themselves.

In Die Metaphysik der Sitten (The Metaphysics of Morals) (1797) Kant develops the implications of this view of persons as ends in themselves. In his doctrine of justice he argues that persons, by virtue of their rational nature, are bearers of fundamental rights, including the innate right to freedom, which must be respected by other persons and by social institutions. The dignity of persons also imposes limits on permissible reasons for and forms of legal punishment. In his doctrine of virtue, Kant discusses specific moral duties of recognition respect for other persons, as well as duties of self-respect, to which we'll return below. Here, Kant explicitly invokes the notion of respect as observantia. We have no moral duty to feel respect for others, he holds, for we cannot have a moral duty to have any feeling, since feelings are not directly controllable by our will. Rather, the respect we owe others is “to be understood as the maxim of limiting our self-esteem by the dignity of humanity in another person, and so as respect in the practical sense” (Kant 1797, 6:449). This duty of recognition respect owed to others requires two things: first, that we adopt as a regulating policy a commitment to control our own desire to think well of ourselves (this desire being the main cause of disrespect), and, second, that we refrain from treating others in the following ways: treating them merely as means (valuing them as less than ends in themselves), showing contempt for them (denying that they have any worth), treating them arrogantly (demanding that they value us more highly than they value themselves), defaming them by publicly exposing their faults, and ridiculing or mocking them. We also have duties of love to others, and Kant argues that in friendship respect and love, which naturally pull in opposite directions, achieve a perfect balance.

Subsequent work in a Kantian vein on the duty of respect for others has expanded the list of ways that we are morally required by respect to treat persons. In particular, although Kant says that the duties of recognition respect are strictly negative, consisting in not engaging in certain conduct or having certain attitudes, many philosophers have argued that respecting others involves positive actions and attitudes as well. The importance of autonomy and agency in Kant's moral philosophy has led many philosophers to highlight respect for autonomy. Thus, we respect others as persons (negatively) by doing nothing to impair or destroy their capacity for autonomy, by not interfering with their autonomous decisions and their pursuit of (morally acceptable) the ends they value, and by not coercing or deceiving them or treating them paternalistically. We also respect them (positively) by protecting them from threats to their autonomy (which may require intervention when someone's current decisions seem to put their own autonomy at risk) and by promoting autonomy and the conditions for it (for example, by allowing and encouraging individuals to make their own decisions, take responsibility for their actions, and control their own lives). Some philosophers have highlighted Kant's claim that rationality is the ground for recognition respect, arguing that to respect others is to engage with them not as instruments or obstacles but as persons who are to be reasoned with. So, for example, we should employ considerations that are accessible to other persons and provide them with genuine reasons in our dealings with them rather than trying to manipulate them through nonrational techniques such as threat or bribery, act toward them only in ways to which they could give rational consent, and be willing to listen to them and take their reasons seriously. The importance of the capacity to set ends and value things has been taken by some philosophers to entail that respect also involves consideration for the interests of others; so, we should help them to promote and protect what they value and to pursue their ends, provided these are compatible with due respect for other persons, and we should make an effort to appreciate values that are different from our own. Kant's emphasis in the doctrine of justice on the fundamental rights that persons have has led still others to view the duty of recognition respect for persons as the duty to respect the moral rights they have as persons; some have claimed that the duty to respect is nothing more than the duty to refrain from violating these rights (Benn 1980, Feinberg 1970).

One final dimension of Kant's discussions of respect that is worth mentioning is his attention to the feeling of respect (reverentia). In the Groundwork Kant identifies the object of the feeling of respect as the moral law and says that respect for the moral law is the only moral motive (4:400). Reverential respect is unlike any other feeling humans experience in that it is not dependent on empirical desires or any other contingencies of the individual agent's psychology, situation, or history, but is “self-produced by means of a rational concept,” that is, the moral law which, as rational beings, we impose on ourselves. The unique moral feeling of reverential respect both the experience of the objective worth of the moral law (Wood 1999) and the experience of the supreme and absolute authority that the moral law has over us (Grenberg 1999), the felt consciousness of the immediate “subordination of my will” to it (Groundwork 4:401n). In Critik der practischen Vernuft (Critique of Practical Reason) (1788) Kant discusses reverential respect in explaining how the moral law, a purely rational principle, is an “incentive” or motivating reason for choice and action in a being who is not wholly and solely rational but whose will is also affected by inclinations and yet is free (Critique 5:72–76). As a complex experience that is both the cognitive recognition of the moral law and an affective state (McCarty 1994), reverential respect is the way, and the only way, in which are aware of the self-legislated rational principles for action that unconditionally constrain our inclinations (Stratton-Lake 2000). In recognizing the moral law we are conscious of it in a way that involves two contrasting yet simultaneously experienced feelings. First, in being aware of the law as having absolutely authority, we experience the subordination of our will to its commands. This consciousness of subordination involves a painful, humbling feeling insofar as our self-love (our efforts to satisfy our desires and pursue our ends) is constrained and our self-conceit (our attempts to esteem ourselves independently of moral considerations) is struck down by the moral law's claim to supreme authority. At the same time, however, our awareness of the moral law involves a pleasurably uplifting feeling insofar as we recognize our own reason to be its only source. The moral law thus appears to us not merely as constraint but as freely imposed self-constraint; and reverential respect, this complex experience of the law as both unconditionally authoritative and self-imposed and of both the restriction on our inclinations and the “sublimity” of our “higher vocation” to be self-legislating and self-governing (Critique 5:87–88), is the way in which we are morally motivated by the law to do unconditionally and so freely what it commands. Reverential respect is a unique feeling not only in that it is produced by reason alone but also in that it is the only feeling that we can know a priori, which is to say that we can know that that the moral experience of every human agent is necessarily and inescapably one of reverential respect for the moral law, for we cannot be aware of the moral law except reverentially (Stratton-Lake 2000). It is, of course and unfortunately, also true that many of us, perhaps most of us most of the time, ignore this feeling and so act morally inappropriately. The feeling of respect is unique also, and relatedly, in that the susceptibility to experience it is “hard-wired” into human nature. In Die Religion innerhalb der Grenzen der bloßen Vernunft (Religion Within the Boundaries of Mere Reason) (1793) Kant calls reverential respect for the moral law as it itself sufficient to motivate action the “predisposition to personality,” which is that “original predisposition” in human nature which makes it possible for us to be moral beings (Religion 6:21–23).

As the way in which we are motivated to obey the moral law, reverential respect for the law is thus the way in which we are motivated to treat persons with recognition respect as the law commands us to do. However, there is another, deeper connection between respect for the law and respect for persons. For the discussion in the Critique makes it clear that reverential respect for the moral law is at the same time reverential respect for oneself, qua rational being, as the author of the law. Self-conceit, trying to esteem ourselves independently of moral considerations, is also the attempt to make our inclinations “lawgiving and the unconditional practical principle” (Critique 5:74), i.e., to deny that the moral law is purely rational and unconditionally and supremely authoritative. Both attempts involve “illusion” (5:75), pretending that we do not feel reverence for the absolute worth and authority of the moral law and for our reason as its author and as supreme governor of our inclinations. In the Metaphysics of Morals Kant says that feeling of reverential self-respect, which the law “unavoidably forces from” us (6:403), is part of the subjective basis of morality, the predispositions to feeling that make possible for beings like us to acknowledge that we have binding moral duties (6:399–418), including the duty to treat ourselves as well as others always as ends in ourselves. There is, finally, one further interesting relation between respect for the law and respect for persons. Although Kant says that the moral law is the sole object of respect (Groundwork 4:400, 401n), he also says that we experience this same humbling and uplifting feeling of respect for morally good people (Critique 5:77ff). This feeling is both reverential respect for the moral law which such individuals exemplify (Groundwork 4:401n) and a mode of evaluative respect, a “tribute” to their moral “merit” (Critique 5:77). Kant holds that reverence for morally good people, like reverential respect for the moral law, is something we necessarily and unavoidably feel, although we might pretend we don't or refuse to acknowledge or show it. Reverential respect for morally good persons contrasts with the duty to give recognition respect to all persons in our attitudes and conduct, for the former is something we can't help feeling for some people, while the latter is a way we are obligated to comport ourselves toward all persons regardless of our feelings and their moral performance. We might, however, regard the two as linked, by regarding our recognition and appreciation of the dignity of others as involving a feeling that we can't help but experience and to which we commit ourselves to living up to in acknowledging the moral duty to respect persons just because they are persons (Hill 1998).

2.3 Further issues, developments, and applications

Philosophical discussions of respect since Kant have tended, on the one hand, to develop or apply various aspects of it, or on the other, to take issue with it or develop alternative accounts of respect. Some of the discussions have focused on more theoretical issues. For example, Kant gives the notion of respect for persons a central and vital role in moral theory. One issue that has since concerned philosophers is whether respect for persons is the definitive focus of morality, either in the sense that moral rightness and goodness and hence all specific moral duties, rights, and virtues are explainable in terms of respect or in the sense that the supreme moral principle from which all other principles are derived is a principle of respect for persons. Some philosophers have developed ethical theories in which a principle of respect for persons is identified as the fundamental and comprehensive moral requirement (for example, Donagan 1977, Downie and Telfer 1969). Others (for example, Hill 1993, Frankena 1986, Cranor 1975) argue that while respect for person is surely a very important moral consideration, it cannot be the principle from which the rest of morality is deduced. They maintain that there are moral contexts in which respect for persons is not an issue and that there are other dimensions of our moral relations with others that seem not to reduce to respect. Moreover, they argue, such a principle would seem not to provide moral grounds for believing that we ought to treat mentally incapacitated humans or nonhuman animals decently, or would (as Kant argues) make a duty to respect such beings only an indirect duty—one we have only because it is a way or respecting persons who value such beings or because our duty to respect ourselves requires that we not engage in activities that would dull our ability to treat persons decently—rather than a direct duty to such being (Kant 1787, 6:443).

Some theorists maintain that utilitarianism, a moral theory generally thought to be a rival to Kant's theory, is superior with regard to this last point. A utilitarian might argue that it is sentience rather than the capacity for rational autonomy that is the ground of moral recognition respect, and so would regard mentally incapacitated humans and nonhuman animals as having moral standing and so as worthy of at least some moral respect in themselves. Another issue, then, is whether utilitarianism (or more generally, consequentialism) can indeed accommodate a principle of respect for persons. In opposition to the utilitarian claim, some Kantians argue that Kant's ethics is distinguishable from consequentialist ethics precisely in maintaining that the fundamental demand of morality is not that we promote some value, such as the happiness of sentient beings, but that we respect the worth of humanity regardless of the consequences of doing so (Korsegaard 1996, Wood 1999). Thus, some philosophers argue that utilitarianism is inconsistent with respect for persons, inasmuch as utilitarianism, in requiring that all actions, principles, or motives promote the greatest good, requires treating persons as mere means on those occasions when doing so maximizes utility, whereas the very point of a principle of respect for persons is to rule out such trading of person and their dignity for some other value (Benn 1988, Brody 1982). In opposition, other theorists maintain not only that a consequentialist theory can accommodate the idea of respect for person (Downie and Telfer 1969, Gruzalski 1982, Landesman 1982, Pettit 1989, Cummiskey 1990), but also that utilitarianism is derivable from a principle of respect for persons (Downie and Telfer 1969) and that consequentialist theories provide a better grounding for duties to respect persons (Pettit 1989).

In addition to the debate between Kantian theory and utilitarianism, theoretical work has also been done in developing the role of respect for persons in Habermasian communicative ethics (Young 1997, Benhabib 1991) and in Aristotelian ethics (Jacobs 1995), in exploring similarities and differences between western (Kantian) views of respect for persons and Indian (Gosh-Dastidar 1987), Confucian (Chan 2006, Wawrytko 1982), and Taoist views (Wong 1984), and in developing a distinctively feminist account of respect for persons (Farley 1993, Dillon 1992a).

Other philosophical discussions have been concerned with clarifying the nature of the respect that is owed to persons and of the persons that are owed respect. Some of these discussions aim to refine and develop Kant's account, while others criticize it and offer alternatives. Darwall (2004, 2006) draws on Kant in revising his own understanding of the nature of recognition respect for persons, calling attention to an under-discussed dimension of the dignity of persons on Kant's account. Dignity is not only a worth but a status or standing, a position in the moral community. The standing is that of an equal, for rational beings have the same dignity. But it is also a standing or position from which claims or demands can be made. Dignity is, as Kant says in a passage from the Metaphysics of Morals quoted above, that “by which” rational beings “exact” or demand respect from one another (Kant 1797, 6: 435). As Darwall puts it, dignity is “the second-personal standing of an equal: the authority to make claims and demands on one another as free and rational agents” and to hold each other accountable for complying with these commands (Darwall 2004, 43, 44). Persons are just those beings who have the standing of authority to address demands to one another as persons. Moral recognition respect for the dignity of persons is acknowledging this authority; we respect one another as persons when we hold each other mutually accountable for complying with the demands that we acknowledge each person has the authority to make of each other person as free and rational agents. The reciprocal relations among persons as authoritative claims-makers and mutually accountable claims-responders is, in Darwall's view, one way of understanding the constitution of rational beings into the community of equal persons that Kant calls in the Groundwork a “kingdom of ends.”

Another area of interest has been the connections between respect and other attitudes and emotions, especially love. For example, Kant (1797) argues that we have duties of love to others just as we have duties of respect. However, neither the love nor the respect we owe is a matter of feeling (or, is pathological, as Kant says), but is, rather, a duty to adopt a certain kind of maxim, or policy of action: the duty of love is the duty to make the ends of others my own, the duty of respect is the duty to not degrade others to the status of mere means to my ends (Kant 1779, 6: 449–450). Love and respect, in Kant's view, are intimately united in friendship; nevertheless, they seem to be in tension with one another and respect seems to be the morally more important of the two, in that the duties of respect are stricter and respect constrains and limits love within friendship. Critics object to what they see here as Kant's devaluing of emotions, maintaining that emotions are morally significant dimensions of persons both as subjects and as objects of both respect and love. In response, some philosophers contend that respect and love are more similar and closely connected in Kant's theory than in generally recognized (Velleman 1999, Baron 1997, R. Johnson 1997). Others have developed accounts of respect that is or incorporates a form of love (agape) or care (Dillon 1992a, Downie and Telfer 1969, Maclagan 1960) and some have argued that emotions are included among the bases of dignity and that a complex emotional repertoire is necessary for Kantian respect (Wood 1999, Sherman 1998a, Farley 1993). In a related vein, some philosophers maintain that it is possible to acknowledge that another being is a person, i.e., a rational moral agent, and yet not have or give respect to that being. What is required for respecting a person is not simply recognizing what they are but emotionally experiencing their value as a person (Thomas 2001a, Buss 1999, Dillon 1997).

Another source of dissatisfaction with Kant's account has been with his characterization of persons and the quality in virtue of which they must be respected. In particular, Kant's view that the rational will which is common to all persons is the ground of respect is thought to ignore the moral importance of the concrete particularity of each individual, and his emphasis on autonomy, which is often understood to involve the independence of one person from all others, is thought to ignore the essential relationality of human beings person (for example, Noggle 1999, Farley 1993, Dillon 1992a, E. Johnson 1982). Rather than ignoring what distinguishes one person from another, it is argued, respect should involve attending to each person as a distinctive individual and to the concrete realities of human lives, and it should involve valuing difference as well as sameness and interdependence as well as independence. Other critics respond that respecting differences and particular identities inevitably reintroduces hierarchical discrimination that is antithetical to the equality among persons that the idea of respect for person is supposed to express (for example, Bird 2004). Identity and difference may, however, be appropriate objects of other forms of consideration and appreciation.

The idea of respect for particularity and relationality has also become an important topic recently in political philosophy. One issue is how persons ought to be respected in multicultural liberal democratic societies (for example, Balint 2006, Tomasi 1995, C. Taylor 1992, Kymlicka 1989). Respect for persons is one of the basic tenets of liberal democratic societies, which are founded on the ideal of the equal dignity of all citizens and which realize this ideal in the equalization of rights and entitlements among all citizens and so the rejection of discrimination and differential treatment. Some writers argue that respecting persons requires respecting the traditions and cultures that permeate and shape their individual identities (Addis 1997). But as the citizenry of such societies becomes increasingly more diverse and as many groups come to regard their identities or very existence as threatened by a homogenizing equality, liberal societies face the question of whether they should or could respond to demands to respect the unique identity of individuals or groups by differential treatment, such as extending political rights or opportunities to some cultural groups (for example, Native Americans, French Canadians, African-Americans) and not others .

The idea that all persons are owed respect has been applied in a wide variety of contexts. For instance, some philosophers employ it to justify various positions in normative ethics, such as the claim that persons have moral rights (Benn 1971, Feinberg 1970, Downie and Telfer 1969) or duties (Fried 1978, Rawls 1971), or to argue for principles of equality (Williams 1962), justice (Narveson 2002, Nussbaum 1999), and education (Andrews 1976). Others appeal to respect for persons in addressing a wide variety of practical issues such as abortion, racism and sexism, rape, punishment, physician-assisted suicide, pornography, affirmative action, forgiveness, terrorism, sexual harassment, cooperation with injustice, treatment of gays and lesbians, sexual ethics, and many others. One very important application context is biomedical ethics, where the principle of respect for autonomy is one of four basic principles that have become “the backbone of contemporary Western health care ethics” (Brannigan and Boss 2001, 39; see also Beauchamp and Childress 1979/2001 and, for example, Munson 2000, Beauchamp and Walters 1999). The idea of respect for patient autonomy has transformed health care practice, which had traditionally worked on physician-based paternalism, and the principle enters into issues such as informed consent, truthtelling, confidentiality, respecting refusals of life-saving treatment, the use of patients as subjects in medical experimentation, and so on.

3. Respect for Nature and Other Nonpersons

Although persons are the paradigm objects of moral recognition respect, it is a matter of some debate whether they are the only things that we ought morally to respect. One serious objection raised against Kant's ethical theory is that in claiming that only rational beings are ends in themselves deserving of respect, it licenses treating all things which aren't persons as mere means to the ends of rational beings, and so it supports morally abhorrent attitudes of domination and exploitation toward all nonpersons and toward our natural environment. Taking issue with the Kantian position that only persons are respectworthy, many philosophers have argued that such nonpersons as humans who are not agents or not yet agents, human embryos, nonhuman animals, sentient creatures, plants, species, all living things, biotic communities, the natural ecosystem of our planet, and even mountains, rocks, and the AIDS virus have moral standing or worth and so are appropriate objects of or are owed moral recognition respect. Of course, it is possible to value such things instrumentally insofar as they serve human interests, but the idea is that such things matter morally and have a claim to respect in their own right, independently of their usefulness to humans. A variety of different strategies have been employed in arguing for such respect claims. For example, the concept of moral respect is sometimes stripped down to its bare essentials, omitting much of the content of the concept as it appears in respect for persons contexts. The respect that is owed to all things, it can be argued, is a very basic form of attentive contemplation of the object combined with a prima facie assumption that the object might have intrinsic value. This does not involve the valuing commitments that respect for persons does, since respectful consideration might reveal that the object does not have any positive value. What we owe everything is an opportunity to reveal any value it might have, rather than assuming that only persons have the kind of value that morally warrants attention (Birch 1993). Another strategy is to argue that the true grounds for moral worth and respect are other than or wider than rationality. One version of this strategy (employed by P. Taylor 1986) is to argue that all living things, persons and nonpersons, have equal inherent worth and so equally deserve the same kind of moral respect, because the ground of the worth of living things that are nonpersons is continuous with the ground of the worth for persons. For example, we regard persons as respect-worthy inasmuch as they are agents, centers of autonomous choice and valuation, and we can similarly regard all living things as respect-worthy in virtue of being quasi-agents, centers of organized activity that pursue their own good in their own unique way. It follows from this view that humans must not be regarded as having a moral status superior to other living beings and so human interests may not be regarded as always trumping claims of nonhumans. Respect for all living things would require settling conflicts between persons and nonpersons in ways that are fair to both. A third strategy, which is employed within Kantian ethics, is to argue that respect for persons logically entails respect for nonpersons. For example, one can argue that rational nature is to be respected not only by respecting humanity in someone's person but also by respecting things that bear certain relations to rational nature, for example, by being fragments of it or necessary conditions of it. Respect would thus be owed to humans who are not persons and to animals and other sentient beings (Wood 1998). Alternatively, one can argue that respect for persons requires respecting their values, and since many people value nature or other categories of nonpersons intrinsically and not just instrumentally, respect for persons requires (under certain conditions) also respecting what they respect (Gaus 1998). Yet another strategy is to reject the Kantian notion that there is but one kind or level of moral status or worth that warrants but one kind or level of respect. Instead, one might argue, we can acknowledge that rational moral agents have the highest moral standing and worth and are owed maximal respect, and also maintain that other beings have lesser but still morally significant standing or worth and so deserve less but still some respect. So, although it is always wrong to use moral agents merely as means, it may be justifiable to use nonpersons as means (for example, to do research on human embryos or human cadavers, destroying them in the process, or to kill animals for food) provided their moral worth is also respectfully acknowledged (for example, by not using them for trivial purposes, by destroying them only in certain ways, or by having an attitude of regret or loss because something of genuine moral value is sacrificed) (Meyer and Nelson, 2001). Much philosophical work has been done, particularly in environmental ethics, to determine the practical implications of the claim that things other than persons are owed respect. Certainly a wide variety of human practices, ranging from agriculture and urban development to recreation and energy use to technological and biomedical research, might have to be profoundly altered by a recognition of moral duties of respect to nonpersons.

4. Self-Respect

While there is much controversy about respect for persons and other things, there is surprising agreement among moral and political philosophers about at least this much concerning respect for oneself: self-respect is something of great importance in everyday life. Indeed, it is regarded both as morally required and as essential to the ability to live a satisfying, meaningful, flourishing life—a life worth living—and just as vital to the quality of our lives together. Saying that a person has no self-respect or acts in a way no self-respecting person would act, or that a social institution undermines the self-respect of some people, is generally a strong moral criticism. Nevertheless, as with respect itself, there is philosophical disagreement, both real and merely apparent, about the nature, scope, grounds, and requirements of self-respect. Self-respect is often defined as a sense of worth or as due respect for oneself; it is frequently (but not always correctly) identified with or compared to self-esteem, self-confidence, dignity, self-love, a sense of honor, self-reliance, pride, and it is contrasted (but not always correctly) with servility, shame, humility, self-abnegation, arrogance, self-importance. In addition to the questions philosophers have addressed about respect in general, a number of other questions have been of particular concern to those interested in self-respect, such as: (1) What is self-respect, and how is it different from related notions such as self-esteem, self-confidence, pride, and so on? (2) Are there objective conditions—for example, moral standards or correct judgments—that a person must meet in order to have self-respect, or is self-respect a subjective phenomenon that gains support from any sort of self-valuing without regard to correctness or moral acceptability? (3) Does respecting oneself conceptually or causally require or lead to respecting other persons (or anything else)? And how are respect for other persons and respect for oneself alike and unalike? (4) How is self-respect related to such things as moral rights, virtue, autonomy, integrity, and identity? (5) Is there a moral duty to respect ourselves as there is a duty to respect others? (6) What features of an individual's psychology and experience, what aspects of the social context, and what modes of interactions with others support or undermine self-respect? (7) Are social institutions and practices to be judged just or unjust (at least in part) by how they affect self-respect? Can considerations of self-respect help us to better understand the nature and wrongness of injustices such as oppression and to determine effective and morally appropriate ways to resist or end them?

4.1 The concept of self-respect

Most generally, self-respect is a moral relation of persons (and only persons) to themselves that concerns their own intrinsic worth. Self-respect is thus essentially a valuing form of respect. Like respect for others, self-respect is a complex of multilayered and interpenetrating phenomena; it involves all those aspects of cognition, valuation, affect, expectation, motivation, action, and reaction that compose a mode of being in the world at the heart of which is an appreciation of oneself as having morally significant worth. Unlike some forms of respect, self-respect is not something one has only now and again or that might have no effect on its object. Rather, self-respect has to do with the structure and attunement of an individual's identity and of her life, and it reverberates throughout the self, affecting the configuration and constitution of the person's thoughts, desires, values, emotions, commitments, dispositions, and actions. As expressing or constituting one's sense of worth, it includes an engaged understanding of one's worth, as well as a desire and disposition to protect and preserve it. Accounts of self-respect differ in their characterizations of the beliefs, desires, affects, and behaviors that are constitutive of it, chiefly because of differences concerning the aspects or conception of the self insofar as it is the object of one's respect and the nature and grounds of the worth of the self or aspects of the self.

Most theorists agree that there as there are different kinds of respect, so there are different kinds of self-respect. However, we clearly cannot apply all kinds of respect to ourselves: it makes no sense to talk of directive respect for oneself, for instance, and although one might regard oneself or some of one's characteristics as obstacles (“I'm my own worst enemy”), this would not generally be considered a form of self-respect. Because the notion of self-worth is the organizing motif for self-respect, and because in the dominant Western tradition two kinds of worth are ascribed to persons, two kinds of self-respect can be distinguished. The first, recognition self-respect, centers on what we can call status worth, which is unearned worth that derives from such things as one's essential nature as a person, membership in a certain class, group, or people, social role, or place in a social hierarchy. Kantian dignity is one form, but not the only form, of status worth. Evaluative self-respect, in contrast, has to do with merit that is based on the quality of one's character and conduct. We earn or lose moral merit, and so deserve or don't deserve evaluative self-respect, through what we do or become. Different sources of status worth yield different configurations of recognition self-respect, but most contemporary discussions, heavily influenced by Kant, focus on dignity-based recognition self-respect. Recognition respect for oneself as a person, then, involves living in light of an understanding and appreciation of oneself as having dignity and moral status just in virtue of being a person, and of the moral constraints that arise from that dignity and status. All persons are morally obligated or entitled to have this kind of self-respect. Because the dominant Kantian conception of persons grounds dignity in three things—equality, agency, and individuality—we can further distinguish three kinds of recognition self-respect. The first is respect for oneself as a person among persons, as a member of the moral community with a status and dignity equal to every other person (see, for example, Thomas 1983a, Boxill 1976, Hill 1973). This involves having some conception the kinds of treatment from others that would count as one's due as a person and treatment that would be degrading or beneath one's dignity, desiring to be regarded and treated appropriately, and resenting and being disposed to protest disregard and disrespectful treatment. Thinking of oneself as having certain moral rights that others ought not to violate is part of this kind of self-respect; servility (regarding oneself as the inferior of others) and arrogance (thinking oneself superior to others) are among its opposites. The second kind of recognition self-respect involves an appreciation of oneself as an agent, a being with the ability and responsibility to act autonomously and value appropriately (see, for example, G. Taylor 1985, Telfer 1968). Persons who respect themselves as agents take their responsibilities seriously, especially their responsibilities to live in accord with their dignity as persons, to govern themselves fittingly, and to make of themselves and their lives something they believe to be good. So, self-respecting persons regard certain forms of acting, thinking, desiring, and feeling as befitting them as persons and other forms as self-debasing or shameful, and they expect themselves to adhere to the former and avoid the latter. They take care of themselves and seek to develop and use their talents and abilities in pursuit of their plans, projects, and goals. Those who are shameless, uncontrolled, weak-willed, self-consciously sycophantic, chronically irresponsible, slothfully dependent, self-destructive, or unconcerned with the shape and direction of their lives may be said to not respect themselves as agents. A third kind of recognition self-respect involves the appreciation of the importance of being autonomously self-defining, of having and living by a conception of a life that gives expression to the ideals and commitments and is expressed in the pursuits and projects that contribute to an individual's identity. Self-respecting people hold themselves to personal expectations and standards the disappointment of which they would regard as unworthy of them, shameful, even contemptible (although they may not apply these standards to others) (Hill 1982). People who sell out, betray their own values, live inauthentic lives, let themselves be defined by others, or are complacently self-accepting lack this kind of recognition self-respect.

Evaluative self-respect, which expresses confidence in one's merit as a person, rests on an appraisal of oneself in light of the normative self-conception that structures recognition self-respect. Recognition self-respecting persons are concerned to be the kind of person they think it is good and appropriate for them to be and they try to live the kind of life such a person should live. Thus they have and try to live by certain standards of worthiness by which they are committed to judge themselves. Indeed, they stake themselves, their value and their identities, on living in accord with these standards. Because they want to know where they stand, morally, they are disposed to reflectively examine and evaluate their character and conduct in light of their normative vision of themselves. And it matters to them that they are able to “bear their own survey,” as Hume says (1739 (1971), 620). Evaluative self-respect contains the judgment that one is or is becoming the worthy kind of person one seeks to be, and, more significantly, that one is not in danger of becoming an unworthy kind of person. Evaluative self-respect holds, at the least, the judgment that one “comes up to scratch,” as Telfer (1968) puts it. Those whose conduct is unworthy or whose character is shameful by their own standards do not deserve their own evaluative respect. However, people can be poor self-appraisers and their standards can be quite inappropriate to them or to any person, and so their evaluative self-respect, though still subjectively satisfying, can be unwarranted, as can the loss or lack of it. Interestingly, although philosophers have paid scant attention to evaluative respect for others, significant work has been done on evaluative self-respect. This may reflect an asymmetry between the two: although our evaluative respect for others may have no effect on them, perhaps because we don't express it or they don't value our appraisal, our own self-evaluation matters intensely to us and can powerfully affect our self-identity and the shape and structure of our lives. Indeed, an individual's inability to stomach herself can profoundly diminish the quality of her life, even her desire to continue living.

Some philosophers have contended that a third kind of self-valuing underlies both recognition and evaluative self-respect. It is a more basic sense of worth that enables an individual to develop the intellectually more sophisticated forms, a precondition for being able to take one's qualities or the fact that one is a person as grounds of positive self-worth. It has been called “basic psychological security” (Thomas 1989), “self-love” (Buss 1999), and “basal self-respect” (Dillon 1997). Basal self-valuing is our most fundamental sense of ourselves as mattering and our primordial interpretation of self and self-worth. Strong and secure basal self-respect can immunize an individual against personal failing or social denigration, but damage to basal self-respect, which can occur when people grow up in social, political, or cultural environments that devalue them or “their kind,” can make it impossible for people to properly interpret themselves and their self-worth, because it affects the way in which they assess reality and weigh reasons. Basal self-respect is thus the ground of the possibility of recognition and evaluative self-respect.

It is common in everyday discourse and philosophical discussion to treat self-respect and self-esteem as synonyms. It is true that evaluative self-respect and self-esteem both involve appraising oneself favorably in virtue of one's behavior and personal traits, and that a person can have or lack either one undeservedly. However, many philosophers have argued that the two attitudes are importantly different (for example, Darwall 1977, Sachs 1981, Chazen 1998, Harris, 2001, Dillon 2004). One way of distinguishing them is by their grounds and the points of view from which they are appraised. Evaluative self-respect involves an assessment from a moral point of view of one's character and conduct, while self-esteem can be based on personal features that are unrelated to character, and the assessment it involves need not be from a moral point of view: one can have a good opinion of oneself in virtue of being a good joke-teller or having won an important sports competition and yet not think one is a good person because of it (Darwall 1977). Another way of distinguishing them focuses on what it is to lose them: one would lose evaluative respect for oneself if one judged oneself to be shameful, contemptible, or intolerable, but self-esteem can be diminished by the belief that one lacks highly prized qualities that would add to one's merit (Harris 2001). Self-respect is also often identified with pride. In one sense, pride is the pleasure or satisfaction taken in one's achievements, possessions, or associations, and in this sense pride can be an affective element of either evaluative self-respect or self-esteem. In another sense, pride is inordinate self-esteem or vanity, an excessively high opinion of one's qualities, accomplishments, or status that can make one arrogant and contemptuous of others. In this sense, pride contrast with both well-grounded evaluative self-respect and the interpersonal kind of recognition self-respect. But pride can also be a claim to and celebration of a status worth or to equality with others, especially other groups (for example, Black Pride), which is interpersonal recognition self-respect; and pride can be “proper pride,” a sense of one's dignity that prevents one from doing what is unworthy, and in this sense it is the agentic dimension of recognition self-respect. Pride's opposites, shame and humility, are also closely related to self-respect. A loss of evaluative self-respect may be expressed in shame, but shameless people manifest a lack of recognition self-respect; and although humiliation can diminish or undermine recognition self-respect, humility is an appropriate dimension of the evaluative respect of any imperfect person.

One issue with which contemporary philosophers have been concerned is whether self-respect is an objective concept or a subjective one. If it is the former, then there are certain beliefs, attitudes, and dispositions a person must have to be self-respecting. A person who thought of herself as a lesser sort of being whose interests and well-being are less important than those of others would not count as having recognition self-respect, no matter how appropriate she regards her stance. If self-respect is a subjective concept, then a person counts as having self-respect so long as she believes she is not tolerating treatment she regards as unworthy or behaving in ways she thinks is beneath her, regardless of whether her judgments about herself are accurate or her standards or sense of what she is due are judged by others to be reasonable or worthy (Massey 1983a). Psychologists, for whom “self-esteem” is the term of practice, tend to regard the various dimensions of a person's sense of worth as subjective. Many philosophers treat the interpersonal dimension of recognition self-respect objectively, and it is generally thought that having manifestly inaccurate beliefs about oneself is good grounds for at least calling an individual's sense of worth unjustified or compromised (Meyers 1989). But there is no consensus regarding the standards to which individuals hold themselves and by which they judge themselves, and certainly the standards of the self-defining dimension of recognition self-respect are inescapably, though perhaps not exclusively, subjective. Complicating the objective/subjective distinction, however, is the fact of the social construction of self-respect. What it is to be a person or to have a status worthy of respect, what treatment and conduct are appropriate to a person or one with such a status, what forms of life and character have merit—all of these are given different content in different sociocultural contexts. Individuals necessarily, though perhaps not inalterably, learn to engage with themselves and with issues of self-worth in the terms and modes of the sociocultural conceptions in which they have been immersed. And different kinds of individuals may be given different opportunities in different sociocultural contexts to acquire or develop the grounds of the different kinds of self-respect (Dillon 1997, Moody-Adams 1992–93, Meyers 1989, Thomas 1983b). Even fully justified self-respect may thus be less than strongly objective and more than simply subjective.

4.2 Treatment of self-respect in moral and political philosophy

Self-respect is frequently appealed to as a means of justifying a wide variety of philosophical claims or positions, generally in arguments of the form: x promotes (or undermines) self-respect; therefore, x is to that extent to be morally approved (or objected to). For example, appeals to self-respect have been used to argue for, among many other things, the value of moral rights (Feinberg 1970), moral requirements or limits regarding forgiving others or oneself (Dillon 2001; Holmgren 1998, 1993; Novitz 1998; Haber 1991; Murphy 1982), and both the rightness and wrongness of practices such as affirmative action. Such arguments rely on rather than establish the moral importance of self-respect. Most philosophers who attend to self-respect tend to treat it as important in one of two ways, which are exemplified in the very influential work of Kant and John Rawls. Kant argues that, just as we have a moral duty to respect others as persons, so we have a moral duty to respect ourselves as persons, a duty that derives from our dignity as rational beings. This duty requires us to act always in an awareness of our dignity and so to act only in ways that are consistent with our status as end in ourselves and to refrain from acting in ways that abase, degrade, defile, or disavow our rational nature. That is, we have a duty of recognition self-respect. In Die Metaphysik der Sitten (The Metaphysics of Morals) (1797) Kant argues for specific duties to oneself generated by the general duty to respect humanity in our persons, including duties to not engage in suicide, misuse of our sexual powers, drunkenness and other unrestrained indulgence of inclination, lying, self-deception, avarice, and servility. Kant also maintains that the duty of self-respect is the most important moral duty, for unless there were duties to respect oneself, there could be no moral duties at all. Moreover, fulfilling our duty to respect ourselves is a necessary condition of fulfilling our duties to respect other persons. Kant maintains that we are always aware of our dignity as persons and so of our moral obligation to respect ourselves, and he identifies this awareness as a feeling of reverential respect for ourselves. This is one of the natural capacities of feeling which we could have no duty to acquire but that make it possible for us to be motivated by the thought of duty. Reverence for self is, along with “moral feeling,” conscience, and love of others, a subjective source of morality, and it is the motivational ground of the duty of self-respect. Kant also discusses evaluative self-respect, especially in Critik der practischen Vernuft (Critique of Practical Reason) (1788) and his Lectures on Ethics (1779), as a combination of noble pride, the awareness that we have honored and preserved our dignity by acting in morally worthy ways, and a healthy dose of humility, the awareness that we inevitably fall short of the lofty requirements of the moral law. Kant regards well-grounded evaluative self-respect as a subjective motivation to continue striving to do right and be good.

Rawls, by contrast, views self-respect neither as something we are morally required to have and maintain nor as a feeling we necessarily have, but as an entitlement that social institutions are required by justice to support and not undermine. In A Theory of Justice (1971) he argues that self-respect is a “primary good,” something that rational beings want whatever else they want, because it is vital to the experienced quality of individual lives and to the ability to carry out or achieve whatever projects or aims an individual might have. It is, moreover, a social good, one that individuals are able to acquire only under certain social and political conditions. Rawls defines self-respect as including “a person's sense of his own value, his secure conviction that his conception of the good, his plan of life, is worth carrying out,” and it implies “a confidence in one's ability, so far as it is within one's power, to fulfill one's intentions” (1971, 440). He argues that individuals' access to self-respect is to a large degree a function of how the basic institutional structure of a society defines and distributes the social bases of self-respect, which include the messages about the relative worth of citizens that are conveyed in the structure and functioning of institutions, the distribution of fundamental political rights and civil liberties, access to the resources individuals need to pursue their plans of life, the availability of diverse associations and communities within which individuals can seek affirmation of their worth and their plans of life from others, and the norms governing public interaction among citizens. Since self-respect is vital to individual well-being, Rawls argues that justice requires that social institutions and policies be designed to support and not undermine self-respect. Rawls argues that the principles of justice as fairness are superior to utilitarian principles insofar as they better affirm and promote self-respect for all citizens.

Rawls's view that the ability of individuals to respect themselves is heavily dependent on their social and political circumstances has been echoed by a number of theorists working in moral, social, and political philosophy. For example, Margalit (1996) argues that a decent society is one whose institutions do not humiliate people, that is, give people good reason to consider their self-respect to be injured. Honneth's theory of social criticism (1995) focuses on the way people's self-respect and self-identity necessarily depend on the recognition of others and so are vulnerable to being misrecognized or ignored both by social institutions and in interpersonal interactions. A number of theorists have used the concept of self-respect to examine the oppression of women, people of color, gays and lesbians, and other groups that are marginalized, stigmatized, or exploited by the dominant culture, identifying the plethora of ways in which oppressive institutions, images, and actions can damage to the self-respect of members of these groups. Other writers discuss ways that individuals and groups might to preserve or restore self-respect in the face of injustice or oppression, and the ways in which the development of self-respect in individuals living under oppression or injustice empowers them to participate in the monumental struggles for justice and liberation (for example, Babbitt 2000, 1993; Bartky 1990a, 1990b, 1990c; Boxill 1992, 1977; Collins 1990; Dillon 1997, 1995; Meyers 1989, 1986; Mohr 1992, 1988; Moody-Adams 1992–93; Statman 2002; Thomas 2001b, 1983, 1978–79). Some theorists, especially those working within a feminist framework, have argued that the prevailing conceptions of self-respect in contemporary liberal societies themselves contain features that reflect objectionable aspects of the dominating culture, and they have attempted to reconceive self-respect in ways that are more conducive to empowerment and emancipation (for example, Dillon 1992c).

5. Conclusion

Everyday discourse and practices insist that respect and self-respect are personally, socially, politically, and morally important, and philosophical discussions of the concepts bear this out. Their roles in our lives as individuals, as people living in complex relations with other people and surrounded by a plethora of other beings and things on which our attitudes and actions have tremendous effects, cannot, as these discussions reveal, be taken lightly. The discussions thus far shed light on the nature and significance of the various forms of respect and self-respect and their positions in a nexus of profoundly important but philosophically challenging and contestable concepts. These discussions also reveal that much more work remains to be done in clarifying these attitudes and their places among and implications for our concepts and our lives.


Philosophical works chiefly on respect and related concepts

Philosophical works chiefly on self-respect and related concepts

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autonomy: in moral and political philosophy | egalitarianism | ethics-biomedical | ethics: environmental | ethics: virtue | Kant, Immanuel: moral philosophy | love | moral particularism | moral psychology: empirical approaches | Rawls | recognition | rights | value: intrinsic vs. extrinsic