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Friedrich Daniel Ernst Schleiermacher

First published Wed Apr 17, 2002

Friedrich Daniel Ernst Schleiermacher (1768-1834) probably cannot be ranked as one of the greatest German philosophers of the eighteenth and nineteenth centuries (like Kant, Herder, Hegel, Marx, or Nietzsche). But he is certainly one of the most interesting of the second-tier philosophers of the period. Nor was he only a philosopher; he was also an eminent classicist and theologian. Much of his philosophical work was in the philosophy of religion, but from a modern philosophical point of view it is probably his hermeneutics (i.e. theory of interpretation) and his theory of translation that deserve the most attention. This article will attempt to provide a fairly broad overview of his philosophical thought. One thing which will emerge when this is done is that although he has important philosophical debts to many predecessors and contemporaries (including Spinoza, Kant, Friedrich Schlegel, and Schelling), he was above all following in the philosophical footsteps of one predecessor in particular: Herder.

1. Life and Works

Friedrich Daniel Ernst Schleiermacher (1768-1834) was born 1768 in Breslau as son of a reformed clergyman. His earlier education took place in institutions of the Moravian Brethren (Herrnhuter), a strict pietist sect, where he also pursued broader humanistic interests however. Largely as a result of skepticism about certain Christian doctrines taught there, in 1787 he moved to the more liberal University of Halle. However, he continued in theology (with philosophy and classical philology as minor fields). He passed his theological examinations in Berlin in 1790. This was followed by a period as a private tutor, which ended in 1793, partly it seems due to friction caused by his sympathy with the French Revolution (to which his employer was opposed).

During the periods just mentioned he was heavily occupied with the study and criticism of Kant's philosophy. This work culminated in several unpublished essays -- On the Highest Good (1789), On What Gives Value to Life (1792-3), and On Freedom (1790-3) -- which rejected Kant's conception of the “summum bonum [highest good]” as requiring an apportioning of happiness to moral desert, rejected Kant's connected doctrine of the “postulates” of an afterlife of the soul and God, and developed an anti-Kantian theory of the thoroughgoing causal determination of human action but of the compatibility of this with moral responsibility. In 1793-4 he wrote two essays about Spinoza: Spinozism and Brief Presentation of the Spinozistic System. The main catalyst of these essays was Jacobi's 1785 work On the Doctrine of Spinoza, in Letters to Mr. Moses Mendelssohn, which was highly critical of Spinozism, but they also show the influence of Herder's 1787 work God. Some Conversations, which championed a modified form of Spinozism. In his two essays Schleiermacher himself embraces a modified form of Spinozist monism similar in character to Herder's (in particular, like Herder, he inclines to substitute for Spinoza's single substance the more active principle of a single fundamental force). He also attempts to defend this position by showing it to be reconcilable with central features of Kant's theoretical philosophy (notably, Kant's doctrine of things in themselves). This neo-Spinozistic position would subsequently be fundamental to Schleiermacher's most important work in the philosophy of religion, On Religion: Speeches to Its Cultured Despisers (1799). However, in thus rejecting Jacobi's anti-Spinozism, Schleiermacher seems also to have absorbed something from Jacobi which would be no less important for his future philosophy of religion: the idea (for which his pietist background no doubt made him receptive) that we enjoy a sort of immediate intuition or feeling of God.

During the period 1794-6 Schleiermacher served as a pastor in Landsberg. In 1796 he moved to Berlin, where he became chaplain to a hospital. In Berlin he met Friedrich and August Wilhelm Schlegel and other romantics, became deeply engaged in the romantic movement, and collaborated with the Schlegel brothers on the short-lived but important literary journal Athenaeum (1798-1800). Among Schleiermacher's contributions to this journal was a short proto-feminist piece Idea for a Catechism of Reason for Noble Ladies. During 1797-9 he shared a house with Friedrich Schlegel. Encouraged by the romantic circle to write a statement of his religious views, in 1799 he published his most important and radical work in the philosophy of religion, On Religion: Speeches to its Cultured Despisers (revised editions: 1806, 1821, the latter including significant “explanations,” and 1831). This work sought to save religion in the eyes of its cultured despisers (prominent among them some of the romantics) by, inter alia, arguing that human immortality and even God are inessential to religion, diagnosing current religion's more off-putting features in terms of its corruption by worldly bourgeois culture and state-interference, and arguing that there are an endless multiplicity of valid forms of religion. The book won Schleiermacher a national reputation. In the same year (1799) he also published an essay on the situation of the Jews in Prussia, Letters on the Occasion of the Political-Theological Task and the Open Letter of Jewish Householders. In this work he rejected a proposed expedient of effecting the Jews' civil assimilation through baptism (which would, he argues, harm both Judaism and Christianity) and instead advocated full civil rights for them (on certain reasonable conditions). The same year also saw Schleiermacher's composition of the interesting short essay Toward a Theory of Sociable Conduct, which is important as his first significant discussion of the art of conversation (an art which would later be central to his dialectics lectures). Finally, 1799 also saw his publication of a highly critical review of Kant's Anthropology. This review in particular takes Kant to task for his dualistic philosophy of mind, and his superficial, disparaging attitude towards women and other peoples.

During the following several years Schleiermacher complemented On Religion with two substantial publications which were more ethical in orientation: the especially important Soliloquies (1800; second edition 1810) and the Outlines of a Critique of Previous Ethical Theory (1803). In 1800 he also defended his friend Friedrich Schlegel's controversial and (it is widely agreed) pornographic novel Lucinde of the same year in his Confidential Letters Concerning Friedrich Schlegel's Lucinde -- a shared proto-feminism constituting a large part of his reason for sympathy with Schlegel's book. During the period 1799-1804 Schleiermacher developed with Schlegel the project of translating Plato's dialogues. As time went on, however, Schlegel left this work to Schleiermacher (which contributed to increasingly difficult relations between the two men after 1800). Schleiermacher's translations appeared during the period 1804-28 (though not all of the dialogues were translated in the end), and are still widely used and admired today.

While in Berlin Schleiermacher developed romantic attachments to two married women, Henriette Herz and Eleonore Grunow -- the latter of which attachments led to scandal and unhappiness, eventually encouraging Schleiermacher to leave the city. He spent the years 1802-4 in Stolpe. By 1804 he was teaching at Halle University. In the period 1804-5 he began lecturing on ethics (as he would do repeatedly until 1832). In 1805 he also began his famous and important lectures on hermeneutics (which he delivered repeatedly until 1833). In 1806 he published the short book Christmas Eve, a literary work which explores the meaning of Christian love by depicting a German family's celebration of Christmas Eve (in keeping with On Religion's ideal of (Christian) religion as family- rather than state-centered). In 1806-7 he left Halle as a result of the French occupation, and moved to Berlin. From this time on he began actively promoting German resistance to the French occupation, and the cause of German unity. In 1808 he married Henriette von Willich (a young widow), with whom he had several children. In 1808-9 he became preacher at the Dreifaltigkeitskirche, in 1810 professor of theology at the University of Berlin, and by 1811 he was also a member of the Berlin Academy of Sciences.

After becoming a member of the Academy he often delivered addresses before it, among which several on ethics and one from 1831 on Leibniz's idea of a universal language are especially significant. In 1811 he lectured on dialectics for the first time (as he would do repeatedly until his death, at which time he was in the early stages of preparing a version for publication). In 1813 he published the shortish essay On the Different Methods of Translation -- a very important work in translation theory deeply informed by his experience as a translator. In 1818 he lectured on psychology for the first time (as he would do repeatedly until 1833-4). In 1819 he lectured on aesthetics for the first time (as he subsequently did on two further occasions, the last of them in 1832-3). In the same year he also began lecturing on the life of Jesus (as he did again on four further occasions over the following twelve years), thereby inaugurating an important genre of literature on this subject in the nineteenth century. In 1821-2 he published his major work of systematic theology, The Christian Faith (revised edition 1830-1). In 1829 he published two open letters on this work (nominally addressed to his friend Lücke), in which he discusses it and central issues in the philosophy of religion and theology relating to it in a concise and lucid way. He died in 1834.

As can be seen even from this brief sketch of his life and works, a large proportion of Schleiermacher's career was taken up with the philosophy of religion and theology. However, from the secular standpoint of modern philosophy it is his work in such areas as hermeneutics (i.e. the theory of interpretation) and the theory of translation that is more interesting. Accordingly, this article will begin with these more interesting areas of his thought, only turning briefly to his philosophy of religion at the end.

2. Philosophy of Language

Since the topics of language and psychology are central to Schleiermacher's hermeneutics and theory of translation, it may be appropriate to begin with some discussion of his philosophies of language and mind. Schleiermacher nowhere presents his philosophy of language separately; instead, it is found scattered through such works as his lectures on psychology, dialectics, and hermeneutics. The following positions -- all but the last of which are heavily indebted to Herder -- are especially worth noting:

(1) In his psychology lectures, Schleiermacher takes the following stance on the question of the origin of language (virtually identical to Herder's stance in his Treatise on the Origin of Language (1772)): Language's origin is not to be explained in terms of a divine source. Nor is it to be explained in terms of the primitive expression of feelings. Rather, the use of inner language is simply fundamental to human nature. It is the foundation of, and indeed identical with, thought; and it is also the foundation of other distinctively human mental features, in particular self-consciousness and a clear distinguishing of perception from both feeling and desire.

(2) Language (and hence thought) are fundamentally social in nature. More precisely, although inner language is not dependent on a social stimulus (so that even in the absence of that children would develop their own languages), it does already involve a tendency or implicit directedness towards social communication.

(3) Language and thought are not mere additions on top of other mental processes which human beings share with the animals. Rather, they are infused throughout, and lend a distinctive character to, all human mental processes. In particular, they structure human beings' sensory images in distinctive ways.

The next five positions are especially important for Schleiermacher's hermeneutics and theory of translation (to be discussed below):

(4) Schleiermacher in his early work postulates an identity of thought with linguistic expression. He often equates thought more specifically with inner language (he already does so in his 1812-13 ethics lectures). His main motive behind such a refinement can be seen from the lectures on psychology, which discuss cases in which thought occurs but without arriving at any outward linguistic expression. In later work he seems to retreat somewhat from such identity claims, though in his psychology lectures of 1830 we still find him writing of "the activity of thought in its identity with language."

(5) Schleiermacher adopts a view of meaning which equates it -- not with such items, in principle independent of language, as the referents involved, Platonic forms, or the mentalistic “ideas” favored by the British empiricists and others -- but with word usages, or rules for the use of words. For example, in the hermeneutics lectures he says that “the … meaning of a term is to be derived from the unity of the word-sphere and from the rules governing the presupposition of this unity.”

(6) In his psychology lectures, Schleiermacher argues that thought and conceptualization are not reducible to the occurrence of sensuous images (since that would conflict with his position that they require or are identical with language), but he also argues that the latter are an essential foundation for the former. This position is also reflected in his strong attraction in some of his later hermeneutics and dialectics lectures to Kant's theory of empirical schemata -- according to which empirical concepts are grounded, or consist, in unconscious rules for the generation of sensuous images -- and to turning it into an account of the nature of all concepts. (This invites the question whether there do not also exist strictly a priori concepts. In his psychology lectures Schleiermacher vacillates in his answer to this question: sometimes implying so, but at other points instead implying -- more consistently with the position just described -- that it is merely that some concepts are more distantly abstracted from sensory images than others. The latter is his normal answer in his dialectics lectures as well.)

(7) Human beings exhibit, not only significant linguistic and conceptual-intellectual similarities, but also striking linguistic and conceptual-intellectual diversities, especially between different historical periods and cultures, but even to some extent between individuals within a single period and culture. (Schleiermacher argues, plausibly, that the phenomenon of the linguistic and conceptual-intellectual development of cultures over time is only explicable in terms of linguistic and conceptual-intellectual innovations performed by individuals, which get taken over by the broader culture, becoming part of its common stock.)

(8) Schleiermacher, importantly, develops a much more holistic conception of meaning than was yet found in his predecessors (this is the one major respect in which his philosophy of language goes beyond Herder's). At least three aspects of his semantic holism can be distinguished: (a) (As can be seen from a passage quoted above,) he espouses a doctrine of “the unity of the word-sphere.” This doctrine in effect says that the various specific senses which a single word will typically bear and which will normally be distinguished by any good dictionary entry (e.g. the different senses of “impression” in “He made an impression in the clay,” “My impression is that he is reluctant,” and ”He made a big impression at the party”) always form a larger semantic unity to which they each essentially belong (so that any loss, addition, or alteration among them entails an alteration in each of them, albeit possibly a subtle one). (b) He holds that the nature of any particular concept is partly defined by its relations to a ”system of concepts.” In this connection, the dialectics lectures emphasize a concept's relations as a species-concept to superordinate genus-concepts, relations as a genus-concept to subordinate species-concepts, and relations of contrast to coordinate concepts falling under the same genus-concepts. However, other types of conceptual relationships would be included here as well (e.g. those between “to work,” “worker,” and “a work”). (c) He holds that the distinctive nature of a language's grammatical system (e.g. its system of declensions) is also partly constitutive of the character of the concepts expressed within it. (This last position was also developed at about the same time by Friedrich Schlegel, who has a strong claim to be considered the real founder of modern linguistics, and for whom it constituted one of the main rationales for a new discipline of “comparative grammar” (see his On the Language and Wisdom of the Indians (1808)). It was shortly afterwards taken over and used to similar effect by another of the founders of modern linguistics, Wilhelm von Humboldt.)

As was mentioned earlier, with the sole exception of this final feature (semantic holism), this entire Schleiermacherian philosophy of language is heavily indebted to Herder's. However, it arguably also weakens Herder's in certain respects. For example, whereas Herder's version of doctrine (4) normally restricted itself to a claim that thought is essentially dependent on and bounded by language, Schleiermacher, as we saw, turns it into a doctrine of the outright identity of thought with language, or with inner language. But such a strong version of the doctrine seems philosophically problematic -- vulnerable to counterexamples in which thought occurs without any corresponding (inner) language use, and vice versa. Again, as we saw, in later works Schleiermacher tends to add to the Herderian doctrine (5) a thesis that concepts are empirical schemata à la Kant (see (6)). What is problematic about this is arguably not, as it might seem to be, the inclusion of sensory images in meaning per se; Herder had included them as well, doing so is probably reconcilable with a (suitably understood) doctrine of meanings as word usages, and the currently popular Fregean-Wittgensteinian attack on such ”psychologism” is probably misguided. What is problematic about it is rather that Kant's theory of empirical schemata had implied a sharp distinction between meanings, conceived as something purely psychological, and word usages, so that Schleiermacher's unmodified reintroduction of the theory implies the same (and hence conflicts with doctrine (5), the doctrine that meaning is word usage). Again, whereas for Herder doctrine (7) was merely an empirically established rule of thumb and admitted of exceptions, Schleiermacher in his ethics and dialectics lectures attempts to give a sort of a priori proof of linguistic and conceptual-intellectual diversity even at the individual level as a universal fact -- a proof which is not only dubious in itself (both in its (quasi-)a priori status and in its specific details), but also implies the extremely counterintuitive consequence (often explicitly asserted by Schleiermacher) that, strictly speaking, no one can ever understand another person.

3. Philosophy of Mind

Schleiermacher's philosophy of mind is found mainly in his lectures on psychology. It is too extensive to be presented in detail here. But the following four central principles -- all of which have their roots in Herder, and especially in Herder's main work in the philosophy of mind, On the Cognition and Sensation of the Human Soul (1778) - are especially striking and important:

(a) Schleiermacher argues for a strong dependence of the soul (or mind) on the body, and indeed for their identity. However, he resists reductionism in either direction, arguing that both what he calls “spiritualism” (i.e. the reduction of the body to the mind) and “materialism” (i.e. the reduction of the mind to the body) are errors. He refers to the sort of non-reductive unity of mind and body that he instead champions as “life.”

(b) Schleiermacher also identifies the soul (or mind) with ”force.” Thus already in On Freedom (1790-3) he writes that the soul is “a force or a composite of forces.”

(c) Schleiermacher argues strongly for the unity of the soul (or mind) within itself; the soul is not composed of separate faculties (e.g. sensation, understanding, imagination, reason, desire). (He himself often works with a twofold distinction between what he refers to as the mind's “organic” (i.e. sensory) and ”intellectual” functions, but he holds these too to be at bottom identical.)

(d) Schleiermacher argues that human minds, while they certainly share similarities, are also deeply different from each other -- not only across social groupings such as peoples and genders, but also at the level of individuals who belong to the same groupings. The deep distinctiveness of individual minds periodically exercises an important influence on the development of society at large -- both in the political-ethical sphere (where Schleiermacher calls the individuals in question “heroes”) and in the sphere of thought and art (where he calls them “geniuses”). The distinctiveness of individual minds cannot be explained by any process of calculation (in particular, it is a mistake to suppose that all minds begin the same and that they only come to differ due to the impact of different causal influences on their development, which might in principle be calculated). It can, however, be understood by means of “divination” (on which more anon).

Finally, one feature of Schleiermacher's philosophy of mind which distinguishes it from that of Herder and other predecessors is also worth noting: Schleiermacher says relatively little about unconscious mental processes, and when he does mention them often seems skeptical about them. For example, he argues that thought cannot be unconscious, and that so-called “obscure representations” are in fact merely sensuous images which do not involve thoughts.

4. Hermeneutics (i.e. Theory of Interpretation)

Some of Schleiermacher's most important philosophical work concerns the theories of interpretation (“hermeneutics”) and translation. Friedrich Schlegel was an immediate influence on his thought here. Their ideas on these subjects began to take shape in the late 1790s, when they lived together in the same house for a time. Many of their ideas are shared, and it is often unclear which of the two men was the (more) original source of a given idea. But since Schlegel's surviving treatments are far less detailed and systematic than Schleiermacher's, the latter take on prime importance.

Schleiermacher's theories of interpretation and translation rest squarely on three of the Herder-inspired doctrines in the philosophy of language which were described earlier: (4) thought is essentially dependent on and bounded by, or even identical with, language; (5) meaning is word usage; and (7) there are deep linguistic and conceptual-intellectual differences between people. Doctrine (7) poses a severe challenge to both interpretation and translation, and it is the main task of Schleiermacher's theories to cope with this challenge. Schleiermacher's most original doctrine in the philosophy of language, (8) (semantic holism), is also highly relevant in this connection, for, as Schleiermacher perceives, semantic holism greatly exacerbates the challenge to interpretation and translation posed by (7).

Schleiermacher lectured on hermeneutics frequently between 1805 and 1833. The following are his main principles:

(a) Hermeneutics is strictly the art of understanding verbal communication -- as contrasted, not equated, with explicating, applying, or translating it.

(b) Hermeneutics should be a universal discipline -- i.e. one which applies equally to all subjects-areas (e.g. the bible, law, and literature), to oral as well as to written language, to modern texts as well as to ancient, to works in one's own language as well as to works in foreign languages, and so forth.

(c) In particular, the interpretation of sacred texts such as the bible is included within it -- this may not rely on special principles, such as divine inspiration (of either the author or the interpreter).

(d) Interpretation is a much more difficult task than is generally realized: contrary to a common misconception that “understanding occurs as a matter of course,” “misunderstanding occurs as a matter of course, and so understanding must be willed and sought at every point.” (This position derives from Schleiermacher's version of principle (7): deep linguistic and conceptual-intellectual diversity.) How, then, is interpretation to be accomplished?

(e) Before the interpretation proper of a text can even begin, the interpreter must acquire a good knowledge of the text's historical context. (The suggestion found in some of the secondary literature that Schleiermacher thinks historical context irrelevant to interpretation is absurd.)

(f) Interpretation proper always has two sides: one linguistic, the other psychological. Linguistic interpretation's task (which rests on principle (5)) consists in inferring from the evidence consisting in particular actual uses of words to the rules that are governing them, i.e. to their usages and thus to their meanings; psychological interpretation instead focuses on an author's psychology. Linguistic interpretation is mainly concerned with what is common or shared in a language; psychological interpretation mainly with what is distinctive to a particular author.

(g) Schleiermacher implies several reasons why an interpreter needs to complement linguistic interpretation with psychological in this way. First, he sees this need as arising from the deep linguistic and conceptual-intellectual distinctiveness of individuals. Such distinctiveness at the individual level leads to the problem for linguistic interpretation that the actual uses of words which are available to serve as evidence from which to infer an author's exact usage or meaning will usually be relatively few in number and poor in contextual variety -- a problem which an appeal to authorial psychology is supposed to help solve by providing additional clues. Second, an appeal to authorial psychology is also required in order to resolve ambiguities at the level of linguistic meaning which occur in particular contexts (i.e. even after the range of meanings available to the author for the word(s) in question is known). Third, in order fully to understand a linguistic act one needs to know not only its linguistic meaning but also what some more recent philosophers have called its “illocutionary” force or intention. For example, if I encounter a stranger by a frozen lake who says to me, “The ice is thin over there,” in order fully to understand this utterance I need to know not only its linguistic meaning (which in this case is clear) but also whether it is being made merely as a factual statement, as a threat, as a joke … (Schleiermacher emphasizes the first of these three considerations most. However, if, as he does, one wants to argue that interpretation needs to invoke psychology generally, and if, as I hinted earlier, linguistic and conceptual-intellectual distinctiveness is not the pervasive phenomenon that he normally takes it to be, then it is arguably the latter two considerations that one should consider the more fundamental ones.)

(h) Interpretation also requires two different methods: a “comparative” method (i.e. roughly, a method of plain induction), which Schleiermacher sees as predominating on the linguistic side of interpretation (where it takes the interpreter from the particular uses of a word to the rule for use governing them all), and a “divinatory” method (i.e. roughly, a method of tentative and fallible hypothesis based on but also going well beyond available empirical evidence -- the etymology to keep in mind here is not Latin divinus but French deviner, to guess or conjecture), which he sees as predominating on the psychological side of interpretation. (The widespread idea in the secondary literature that “divination” is for Schleiermacher a process of psychological self-projection into texts contains a small grain of truth -- in that it is his view that interpretation requires some measure of psychological commonality between interpreter and interpreted -- but is basically mistaken.)

(i) Ideal interpretation is of its nature a holistic activity. (This principle in part rests on but also goes well beyond Schleiermacher's semantic holism.) In particular, any given piece of text needs to be interpreted in light of the whole text to which it belongs, and both need to be interpreted in light of the broader language in which they are written, their larger historical context, a broader preexisting genre, the author's whole corpus, and the author's overall psychology. Such holism introduces a pervasive circularity into interpretation, for, ultimately, interpreting these broader items in its turn depends on interpreting such pieces of text. Schleiermacher does not see this circle as vicious, however. Why not? His solution is not that all of these tasks can and should be accomplished simultaneously -- something which would be beyond human capacities. Rather, it lies in the (very plausible) thought that understanding is not an all-or-nothing matter but something that comes in degrees, so that it is possible to make progress towards full understanding in a piecemeal way. For example, concerning the relation between a piece of text and its whole text, Schleiermacher recommends that we first read through and interpret as best we can each of the parts of the text in turn in order thereby to arrive at an approximate overall interpretation of the text, and that we then apply this approximate overall interpretation in order to refine our initial interpretations of the particular parts (which in turn gives us an improved overall interpretation, which can then be re-applied towards further refinement of the interpretation of the parts, and so on indefinitely).

Schleiermacher's indebtedness to Herder in this theory of interpretation extends far beyond the framework-principles (4), (5), and (7) mentioned earlier. Indeed, Schleiermacher's theory as it has just been described is almost identical to Herder's. Some of this commonality is admittedly due to shared influences (especially Ernesti). But Schleiermacher's theory owes exclusively to Herder the two central moves (often wrongly thought to have been original with Schleiermacher) of supplementing “linguistic” with “psychological” interpretation and of identifying “divination” as the predominant method of the latter. (Herder had introduced these two moves mainly in On Thomas Abbt's Writings (1768) and On the Cognition and Sensation of the Human Soul (1778).) Schleiermacher's theory as it has just been described in the main merely draws together and systematizes ideas which already lay scattered through a number of Herder's works.

There are two significant exceptions to that rule, however. First, as was mentioned, Schleiermacher exacerbates the challenge to interpretation which principle (7) already poses by introducing principle (8), semantic holism. Second, Schleiermacher's theory explicitly introduces principle (b), the universality of hermeneutics. This principle is very much in the spirit of Herder's theory, but it does go beyond its letter. (There were, however, other more explicit precedents -- e.g. van der Hardt, Chladenius, Pfeiffer, Grosch, and Meier.)

Schleiermacher's theory of interpretation also departs from Herder's in certain further respects not yet described. However, it is precisely here that it tends to become most problematic. This point has already been made above in relation to the exact force of the three principles in the philosophy of language which underpin it, (4), (5), and (7). But in addition: Unlike Herder, Schleiermacher, especially in his later work, more closely specifies psychological interpretation as a process of identifying, and tracing the necessary development of, a single authorial “seminal decision [Keimentschluß]” that lies behind a work and unfolds itself as the work in a necessary fashion -- which seems a very unhelpful move to make, for how many works are composed, and hence properly interpretable, in such a way? Again, whereas Herder includes not only an author's linguistic behavior but also his non-linguistic behavior among the evidence relevant to psychological interpretation, Schleiermacher normally insists on a restriction to the former -- which seems misguided (e.g. the Marquis de Sade's recorded acts of cruelty seem no less potentially relevant to establishing the sadistic side of his psychological make-up, and hence to interpreting his texts in light of this, than his cruel statements). Again, unlike Herder, Schleiermacher regards the central role of “divination,” or hypothesis, in interpretation as a ground for sharply distinguishing interpretation from natural science, and hence for classifying interpretation as an art rather than a science -- whereas he should arguably instead have seen it as a ground for thinking interpretation and natural science similar. (This mistake was apparently caused by his false assumption that natural science works by something like plain induction -- i.e. roughly: this first a is F, this second a is F, this third a is F, … therefore all as are F -- rather than by hypothesis.)

Schleiermacher's theory also tends to play down, obscure, or miss certain arguably important points relating to interpretation that Friedrich Schlegel had already made. Schlegel's treatment of hermeneutical matters, found mainly in his Philosophy of Philology (1797) and Athenaeum Fragments (1798-1800), largely resembles Schleiermacher's, but it also includes the following three points which are less radical, obscured, or altogether missing in Schleiermacher: (i) Schlegel stresses that (superior or “classical”) texts often express unconscious meanings (“Every excellent work … aims at more than it knows” - Wilhelm Meister (1798)). Schleiermacher sometimes implies a similar view (most famously in his doctrine that the interpreter should aim to understand an author better than the author understood himself), but Schlegel's version of it is more radical, envisaging indeed an “infinite depth” of meaning largely unknown to the author. (ii) Schlegel emphasizes that a work often expresses some of its important meanings, not explicitly in its parts, but rather through the way in which these are put together to form a whole. This is a very valuable point. Schleiermacher in a way makes this point as well, but only as incorporated into and obscured by his more dubious doctrine of the “seminal decision.” (iii) Unlike Schleiermacher, Schlegel, especially in his essay On Unintelligibility (1798), stresses that works typically contain confusions, and that it is vitally important for an interpreter to identify and explain these: “It is not enough that one understand the actual sense of a confused work better than the author understood it. One must also oneself be able to know, characterize, and even construe the confusion even down to its very principles.” This is arguably another very important point.

Be these shortcomings in the details of Schleiermacher's hermeneutics as they may, his pupil Böckh, an eminent classical philologist, subsequently gave a faithful and even more systematic articulation of Schleiermacher's hermeneutics in lectures which were eventually published as Böckh's Encyclopaedia and Methodology of the Philological Sciences (1877), and through the combined influence of Schleiermacher's and Böckh's treatments it achieved something like the status of the official hermeneutical theory of nineteenth-century classical scholarship.

5. Theory of Translation

Once again, Schleiermacher develops his theory of translation on the foundation of the Herder-influenced principles (4), (5), and (7), together with (8), his own holism about meaning, which exacerbates the challenge to translation already posed by (7).

Schleiermacher was himself a masterful translator, whose German translations of Plato are still widely used and admired today, nearly two hundred years after they were done. So his views on translation carry a certain prima facie authority. He explains his theory of translation mainly in the brilliant little essay On the Different Methods of Translation (1813). The following are his most important points:

(a) Translation typically faces the problem of a conceptual gulf between the language of the text to be translated and the translator's home language (as the latter currently exists). (This is an application of principle (7).)

(b) This situation makes translation an extremely difficult task, posing a major obstacle to the attainment of translation's primary goal, the faithful reproduction of meaning. In this connection, Schleiermacher in particular notes the following problem, which one might dub the paradox of paraphrase: If, faced with the task of translating an alien concept, a translator attempts to reproduce its intension by reproducing its extension through an elaborate paraphrase in his own language, he will generally find that as he gets closer to the original extension he undermines the original intension in other ways. For example, faced with Homer's word chlôros, which Homer sometimes applies to things that we would classify as green (e.g. healthy foliage) but at other times to things that we would classify as yellow (e.g. honey), a translator might attempt to reproduce the extension correctly by translating the word as “green or yellow.” But in doing so he would be sacrificing the original intension in other ways -- for Homer did not have the concept green (only chlôros), and in addition for Homer chlôros was not a disjunctive concept. (Schleiermacher also identifies a number of further challenges which often exacerbate the difficulty of translation. For example, he notes that in the case of poetry it is necessary to reproduce not only the semantical but also the musical aspects of the original, such as meter and rhyme -- and this not only as a desideratum over and above the main task of reproducing meaning, but also as an essential part of that task, because in poetry such musical features serve as essential vehicles for the precise expression of meaning. Also, he argues that in addition to reproducing meaning a translation should attempt to convey to its readership where an author was being conceptually conventional and where conceptually original, e.g. by using older vocabulary in the former cases and relative neologisms in the latter. Also, he notes that in both of these connections the added requirement or desideratum involved will frequently stand in tension with that of finding the closest semantical fit -- e.g. it will turn out that the word which would best reproduce a rhyme or best reflect a concept's vintage is not the one that is closest in meaning to the word in the original.)

(c) Because of this daunting difficulty the translator needs to possess hermeneutical expertise and to be an “artist” if he is to cope with the task of translation at all adequately.

(d) The conceptual gulf which poses the central challenge here might in principle be tackled in one of two broad ways: either by bringing the author's linguistic-conceptual world closer to that of the reader of the translation or vice versa. The former approach had in fact been championed by Luther in his classic essay On Translating: An Open Letter (1530) and practiced by him in his translation of the bible (he called it Verdeutschung, “Germanizing”). However, Schleiermacher finds it unacceptable, mainly because it inevitably distorts the author's concepts and thoughts. Schleiermacher therefore champions the alternative approach of bringing the reader towards the linguistic-conceptual world of the author as the only acceptable one. But how can this possibly be accomplished?

(e) According to Schleiermacher, the key to the solution lies in the plasticity of language. Because of this plasticity, even if the usages of words and hence the concepts expressed by the language into which the translation is to be done as it currently exists are incommensurable with the author's, it is still possible for a translator to “bend the language of the translation as far possible towards that of the original in order to communicate as far as possible an impression of the system of concepts developed in it.” (Note that this solution presupposes principle (5).) Consider, for example, a translator facing the challenge of translating Homer's word aretê into English. The translator will recognize that nothing in existing English exactly expresses this concept. He will therefore judge that the best way to convey it in English is to modify existing English usage in a systematic way for the course of the translation in order thereby to mimic Greek usage and hence meaning. He will begin by taking the word from existing English which comes closest to aretê in meaning, say the word virtue. However, he will recognize that the rule for use which governs this word in existing English is still very different from that which governs Homer's word aretê so that the two words are still quite sharply different in meaning - that, for example, the descriptive component of the rule which governs the word virtue in existing English makes it a solecism to ascribe virtue to a habitual liar or a pirate, but quite proper under certain circumstances to ascribe it to a physically weak man, whereas exactly the converse rule governs the word aretê in Homer. What therefore will the translator do? He will not simply resign himself to living with this discrepancy. Instead, for the duration of his translation he will modify the rule which governs the word virtue in order to make this rule conform (or at least more closely conform) to that which governs Homer's word aretê -- for example, he will drop the descriptive rule governing the word virtue which was just mentioned and switch to its converse instead, consequently for the duration of his translation writing quite happily of certain habitual liars and pirates as having virtue (e.g. Odysseus and Achilles, respectively), but scrupulously avoiding describing any physically weak man as having it. He will thereby succeed in expressing -- or at least come close to expressing -- in English the meaning of Homer's word aretê.

(f) This approach entails a strong preference for translating any given word in the original in a uniform way throughout the translation rather than switching between two or more different ways of translating it in different contexts.

(g) This approach also makes for translations which are considerably less easy to read than those which can be achieved by the alternative approach (Verdeutschung). However, this is an acceptable price to pay given that the only alternative is a failure to convey the author's meaning at all accurately. Moreover, the offending peculiarities have a positive value in that they constantly remind the reader of the conceptual unfamiliarity of the material that is being translated and of the “bending” approach that is being employed.

(h) In order to work at all effectively, though, this approach requires that large amounts of relevant material be translated, so that the reader of the translation acquires enough examples of a word's unfamiliar use in enough different contexts to enable him to infer the unfamiliar rule for use involved.

(i) Even this optimal approach to translation has severe limitations, however. In particular, it will often be impossible to reproduce the holistic aspects of meaning -- the several related usages of a given word, the systems of related words / concepts, and the distinctive grammar of the language. And since these holistic features are internal to a word's meaning, this will entail a shortfall in the communication of its meaning by the translation. Reading a translation therefore inevitably remains only a poor second best to reading the original.

(j) Translation is still justified, though -- not only by the obvious consideration that it makes works available to people who want to read them but who are not in the fortunate position of knowing the original languages, but also by the less obvious one that through its “bending” approach it effects a conceptual enrichment of their language.

(k) Nor (Schleiermacher adds in answer to a worry which Herder had expressed) need we fear that this enrichment will deprive our language of its authentic character. For in cases where a real conflict with that character arises, the enrichments in question will soon wither from the language.

Once again, not only the framework principles (4), (5), and (7), but most of these ideas about translation come from Herder. In particular, Schleiermacher's central strategy of “bending” the pregiven language in order to cope with conceptual incommensurability, and his point that it is important to convey the musical aspects of an original (poetic) text in order to convey its meaning accurately, both do so. (Relevant Herderian sources in this connection are the Fragments on Recent German Literature (1767-8) and the prefaces of the Volkslieder (1774).) However, unlike Schleiermacher's theory of interpretation, which as was mentioned often worsens Herder's, this theory of translation tends to refine Herder's in some modest but significant ways. Among the ideas just adumbrated, examples of this occur in (b), where Schleiermacher's paradox of paraphrase and his ideal of making clear in the translation at which points the author is being conceptually conventional and at which points conceptually original are both novel; (g), where Schleiermacher's point that the resulting peculiarities are not only unavoidable but can actually serve a positive function of reminding readers of the conceptual incommensurability involved and the “bending” approach being employed to cope with it is novel; (h), which is a novel point; (i), where Schleiermacher's point about the in-principle limitation on the successfulness of translations posed by semantic holism is a novel one; and (k), which plausibly contradicts Herder.

6. Aesthetics

Schleiermacher was generally quite self-deprecating about his sensitivity to and knowledge of art (e.g. in On Religion and the Soliloquies, where he is clearly rather in awe of the greater expertise in this area enjoyed by such romantic friends as the Schlegel brothers), and accordingly he tended to shy away from discussing it in detail in his earlier work. However, he did eventually bring himself to confront the subject systematically, namely in his lectures on aesthetics (first given in 1819, and then again in 1825 and 1832-3).

Part of his motivation behind this eventual confrontation with the subject -- and part of why it remains interesting today -- derives from the fact that the phenomenon of art, and in particular the phenomenon of non-linguistic art (e.g. painting, sculpture, and music), provokes a certain theoretical question which is of fundamental importance, not only for the philosophy of art itself, but also for hermeneutics or the theory of interpretation, and for the philosophy of language which underlies the theory of interpretation: Do non-linguistic arts such as painting, sculpture, and music express meanings and thoughts, and if so how? This question is important for the theory of interpretation because it brings in its train such further questions as whether the theory of interpretation should not include among its proper objects further forms of expression in addition to the linguistic ones treated by Schleiermacher's own hermeneutics, what the appropriate methods of interpretation might be in such further cases, and how such cases and their interpretive methods might relate to the linguistic ones. Moreover, this question is equally important for the philosophy of language which underpins Schleiermacher's theory of interpretation, as embodied in principles (4) and (5). For a positive answer to this question might seem to threaten these two principles, or at least to show that they need radical revision if they are to be defensible.

In his last cycle of aesthetics lectures (1832-3) Schleiermacher initially pursues a very simple strategy for dealing with these issues arising in relation to non-linguistic art; however, he eventually realizes that the strategy in question is untenable, and abandons it for a more promising but also more ambiguous position.

His whole train of thought closely follows one that Herder had already pursued in the Critical Forests (1769), and so it may be useful to begin with a brief sketch of the latter. By the time of writing the Critical Forests Herder was already committed to his own versions of principles (4) and (5). Accordingly, in reaction to the phenomenon of the non-linguistic arts the book initially set out to argue for a theory of their nature which would preserve consistency with those principles, and it did so in a very straightforward way, denying the non-linguistic arts the ability to express thoughts or meanings autonomously of language by denying them the ability to express thoughts or meanings at all: whereas poetry has a sense, a soul, a force, music is a mere succession of objects in time, and sculpture and painting are merely spatial; whereas poetry not only depends on the senses but also relates to the imagination, music, sculpture, and painting belong solely to the senses (to hearing, feeling, and vision, respectively); whereas poetry uses voluntary and conventional signs, music, sculpture, and painting employ only natural ones. However, as Herder proceeded with his book he eventually realized that this simplistic solution was untenable: in the third part of the work he came across the awkward case of ancient coins, which, though normally non-linguistic, clearly do nonetheless often express meanings and thoughts in pictorial ways. This did not lead him to abandon his versions of principles (4) and (5), however. Instead, it brought him to a more refined account of the non-linguistic arts which was still consistent with those principles: the non-linguistic arts do sometimes express meanings and thoughts, but the meanings and thoughts in question are ones which are parasitic on a prior linguistic expression or expressibility of them possessed by the artist. In the fourth part of the book (not published until the mid-nineteenth century, and hence unknown to Schleiermacher) Herder extended this solution from coins to painting, and in subsequent works to sculpture and music as well.

Schleiermacher's aesthetics lectures follow a very similar course. He initially sets out to develop a version of the theory that Herder had initially developed in the Critical Forests, correlating the several non-linguistic arts with the different senses as Herder's theory had done (his only significant revision consists in modifying Herder's correlation of sculpture with the sense of touch to include vision as well as touch). Like Herder's initial theory, Schleiermacher's is largely motivated by his prior commitment to principles (4) and (5), which, again like Herder's initial theory, it seeks to vindicate in a naive way: non-linguistic arts, such as music and sculpture, do not express meanings or thoughts autonomously of language because they do not express them at all. (For example, Schleiermacher argues that music merely expresses physiologically based “life-conditions [Lebenszustände],” not representations or thoughts.) However, rather like Herder with his ancient coins, in the course of developing this naive solution Schleiermacher abruptly confronts a case which forces him to the realization that it is untenable. He develops his naive solution smoothly enough for the cases of music and painting. But in the middle of his discussion of sculpture he suddenly recalls Pausanias's account that the very earliest Greek sculptures were merely rough blocks whose function was to serve, precisely, as symbols of religious ideas (oops!). He subsequently goes on to note that an analogous point in fact holds for other non-linguistic arts such as painting as well. Accordingly, at this stage in his lectures he changes tack: He now acknowledges that non-linguistic arts do (at least sometimes) express meanings and thoughts after all. And he goes on to vacillate between two new, and conflicting, accounts of that fact: (a) The arts in question do so in such a way that the meanings and thoughts involved are at least sometimes not (yet) linguistically articulable. (In particular, Schleiermacher suggests that the early Greek sculpture just mentioned expressed religious ideas which only later got expressed linguistically.) This account would entail abandoning or at least severely revising principles (4) and (5). (b) The arts in question do so in virtue of a pre-existing linguistic articulation or articulability of the same meanings and thoughts in the artist. (Schleiermacher actually only says in virtue of “something universal,” “a representation,” but a dependence on language seems clearly implied.) This account is similar to Herder's final account, and would preserve principles (4) and (5). In the end, then, having renounced his initial -- clearly untenable -- position, Schleiermacher is left torn between these two more plausible-looking positions, which, however, contradict each other.

The eighteenth- and nineteenth-century German hermeneutical tradition as a whole was similarly torn between these two positions. As has already been mentioned, (b) was the considered position at which Herder eventually arrived. But (a) had strong champions as well -- in particular, Hamann, Hegel (concerning architecture and sculpture), and the later Dilthey. The choice between these two positions is a genuinely difficult one, philosophically speaking.

Where does this leave Schleiermacher in relation to the several issues bearing on his theory of interpretation and philosophy of language which, I suggested, encouraged him to undertake this investigation of non-linguistic art in the first place? Concerning the primary question, whether the non-linguistic arts express meanings and thoughts and if so how, he has now realized that they do indeed (sometimes) express meanings and thoughts, but he remains torn on exactly how they do so. Concerning his theory of interpretation, that realization is itself important, because it has shown him that interpretation theory must indeed extend its objects beyond linguistic ones to include at least some that are non-linguistic. But he remains torn on the further questions in this area -- in particular whether, as (a) implies, there will be cases in which the interpretation of non-linguistic art will transcend the interpretation of any associated language or, as (b) implies, it will always be dependent on and restricted by the interpretation of associated language. Finally, concerning the philosophy of language which underpins his theory of interpretation, he remains torn about whether the meanings and thoughts expressed by non-linguistic art are always parasitic on language (position (b)), so that principles (4) and (5) can be retained without qualification or modification, or instead sometimes independent of language (position (a)), so that principles (4) and (5) will either have to be abandoned or (as Hamann had already done in his Metacritique (1784)) (re)construed in a way that stretches their reference to “language” and “words” to include not-strictly-linguistic-or-verbal symbol-use by the non-linguistic arts.

Another important motive behind Schleiermacher's treatment of art in his late aesthetics lectures concerns its cultural status, and in particular its cultural status relative to religion. It was an abiding concern of Schleiermacher's from very early in his career until the very end of it to subordinate art to religion. The final cycle of aesthetics lectures is merely the last in a long line of attempts to achieve this goal. It seems to me, however, that, partly for reasons already touched on, this last attempt turns out to be oddly and interestingly self-subverting.

I shall briefly review Schleiermacher's series of attempts to subordinate art, and then explain how this last one proves self-subverting. It was already one of the early Schleiermacher's primary goals to turn contemporary culture, and especially the romantic movement, away from the then fashionable idea that art was the highest possible form of insight towards the idea that religion was. This is an important part of the project of On Religion (1799). In this work Schleiermacher criticizes the sort of elevation of art above religion that Goethe and Schiller had begun and the romantics had developed, complains of the trivial nature of modern art, and argues that art ought to subserve religion as Plato had thought. (The early Schleiermacher was in a sense strikingly successful in achieving his goal; after 1799 the leading romantics did indeed increasingly turn away from art towards religion, and to some extent the same was also true of German culture more broadly.)

The ethics lectures of 1812-13 continue the same project in a certain way. There Schleiermacher represents art as of its very nature a collective expression of religious feeling (one which differs in accordance with the differences between religions). In other words, he represents art as only true to its own nature when it subserves religion.

The 1830 psychology lectures play an interesting variation on this theme. There Schleiermacher argues that the perception of beauty is a feeling but one which has a sort of deep cognitive content in that it expresses the relation of intelligence to Being. This makes it sound very much like religious feeling, and indeed in these lectures it is treated as a sort of close second-in-command to religious feeling. It might seem as though, from Schleiermacher's viewpoint, there was a danger here of art acquiring too independent and exalted a status. However, this danger is partly averted by the fact that he is here talking primarily about natural beauty, and only secondarily about artistic.

The 1832-3 aesthetics lectures continue this sort of demoting project, but in a different way. Schleiermacher's initial intention there, it seems, was to demote art (in comparison with religion) in two ways: First, as we saw, the lectures initially set out aiming to give an account of non-linguistic arts (music, painting, and sculpture) which represents them as merely expressive of sensuous feelings and non-cognitive in character. Second, the lectures give an account of poetry which represents it as merely national and indeed merely individual in nature (not universal). Thus the lectures argue that art generally, and therefore poetry in particular, is national in nature, not universal like science and (in a sense) religion, and more radically that poetry has the function of expressing individuality, of resisting even the commonality of a national language (thereby making explicit a potential which is also present, though less realized, in normal language use).

However, this two-fold strategy for demoting art turns out to be curiously self-subverting. For one thing, as we saw, the model of non-linguistic art as merely sensuous and non-cognitive in the end proves unsustainable. Moreover, not only does non-linguistic art turn out to have a cognitive content after all, but in addition this becomes clear from a case (the earliest Greek sculpture) in which the content in question is not trivial but deeply religious in character. Also, this self-subversion would be even more extreme if position (a) won out over position (b). For another thing, poetry's function of expressing individuality implies that it represents Schleiermacher's highest ethical value (see below). In short, what was intended as a demotion of art turns willy-nilly into a sort of cognitive-religious and ethical exaltation of it.

7. Dialectics

Most of Schleiermacher's earliest philosophical work was in areas of the subject which might reasonably be described as peripheral in comparison with such central areas as metaphysics and epistemology (in particular, ethics, philosophy of religion, and hermeneutics). This fact, together no doubt with the imposing presence of several competitors who had recently made or were making contributions in those central areas (including Kant, Fichte, Schelling, and Hegel), seems to have spurred Schleiermacher to develop his own treatment of them. The result was his “dialectics,” which he began to present in lecture-form in 1811. (The subject-title calls to mind relevant thought not only in Plato and Aristotle, but also in Kant and Hegel.)

Accordingly, Schleiermacher's dialectics in certain ways carries the marks of a discipline which he felt forced to develop, rather than one for which he had a clear, compelling vision (as he did for his philosophy of religion and hermeneutics for instance). For one thing, the nature of the discipline undergoes a striking shift between its two earliest versions (the lectures of 1811 and 1814-15) -- which have the character of fairly conventional treatments of metaphysical and epistemological issues, already concerned indeed with resolving disagreements to some extent, but in a purely theoretical way -- and its two main later versions (the lectures of 1822 and the book-fragment from 1833), which make the art of actually resolving disagreements through conversation the main core of the discipline (albeit that “conversation” is here understood in a broad sense so as to include not only the paradigm case of oral communication but also written communication and even dialogue internal to a single person's mind). (With some qualification, this shift might be described as one from a more Aristotelian to a more Socratic-Platonic conception of “dialectics.”)

For another thing, in all of its versions Schleiermacher's dialectics has an oddly rag-bag appearance, including as it does not only material that would traditionally be classified as metaphysics and epistemology, but also large components of philosophy of mind, logic (especially the logic of concepts and judgments; Schleiermacher treats the logic of syllogism in a reductive and rather deprecatory way), philosophy of science, and philosophy of religion.

In its final versions (on which I will focus), the discipline has roughly the following character: Its concern is with what Schleiermacher calls “pure thought,” as distinguished from the thought of everday affairs or art -- i.e. with thought which aims at truth, rather than merely at achieving practical ends or inventing fictions. (Schleiermacher denies, though, that the former is sharply divorced from the latter; rather, it is to some degree implicit in them and vice versa.)

According to Schleiermacher, genuine knowledge of its very nature requires, not only (1) correspondence to reality, but also (2) systematic coherence with all knowledge and (3) univeral agreement among people. (The main motive behind this elaborate position seems to derive from the thought that there is in principle no way of determining the fulfillment of condition (1) directly, so that believers need to rely on guidance by the fulfillment of conditions (2) and (3).)

(In a well-known early interpretation of Schleiermacher's dialectics the German scholar Manfred Frank accentuated condition (3), attributing to Schleiermacher on this basis a consensus-theory of truth. However, in his recent edition of Schleiermacher's dialectics lectures Frank rightly admits that this interpretation overlooked the realism implied by condition (1). This revision of Frank's early reading of Schleiermacher's dialectics also undercuts Frank's equally well-known early reading of Schleiermacher's hermeneutics, which built upon this ascription to Schleiermacher of a consensus-theory of truth an ascription to him also of a (roughly Gadamerian) conception of interpretation as an ongoing construction of facts about meaning through the development of interpretations.)

Not surprisingly given the strength of the three conditions just mentioned, Schleiermacher considers genuine knowledge to be only an “idea” towards which we can make progress, not something that we can ever actually achieve. (His position here resembles his official position in hermeneutics that the genuine understanding of another person is only something to which we can approximate, not something we can ever actually achieve.)

Schleiermacher's dialectics is largely conceived as a methodology for making such progress. This project proceeds relatively smoothly in connection with conditions (1) and (2). For example, in connection with (1), Schleiermacher develops certain principles concerning how to form concepts correctly rather than incorrectly (i.e. in such a way that -- to borrow a more recent idiom -- they, their superordinate genus-concepts, their subordinate species-concepts, and their contrasting coordinate concepts “carve nature at the joints”). And in connection with (2), while he acknowledges that the task of forming a totality of knowledge is of its nature incompletable, he nonetheless prescribes what he calls ”heuristic” and “architectonic” procedures for, respectively, amassing the pieces of knowledge and forming them together into a coherent whole.

However, the project runs into deeper difficulties in relation to condition (3). There are two main problems here. First, in addition to the obvious and avowed impossibility of actually accessing all people in order to come to agreement with them, Schleiermacher also identifies a further obstacle in the way of reaching, or even making significant progress towards, agreement with them: the deep differences which occur between different languages and modes of thought. The dialectics lectures themselves fail to find any very promising way of coping with this problem. The 1822 version attempts two ways, but neither looks hopeful. Its first approach consists in hypothesizing a domain of “innate concepts” common to everyone (with certain qualifications, e.g. that these concepts require sensations in order to be actualized). This would certainly solve the problem, but only by contradicting Schleiermacher's normal, and surely philosophically superior, position, from which the problem arose in the first place, that there is no such conceptual commonality across all different languages (or even, Schleiermacher would normally add, between all individuals who in some sense share a language). The second approach attempted is an argument that we need to develop a complete history of the differences in question and of how they arose. However, this seems beside the point -- a distraction from the problem rather than a solution to it. In the 1833 book-fragment Schleiermacher in places seems close to giving up on this problem, saying at one point that because of it dialectics must restrict itself to a specific “linguistic sphere,” but at other points he evidently still clings to the hope of finding common ground uniting different “linguistic spheres.” What sort of solution does he have in mind? The sort of solution he may have in mind can perhaps best be seen from an 1831 lecture which he gave on Leibniz's idea of a universal language. In this lecture he in effect argues that it was a mistake on Leibniz's part to suppose that there was already a conceptual common ground shared by everyone which could be captured in a universal language (this also amounts to a rejection of his own dubious idea in the 1822 lectures of common “innate concepts”), but that the sort of conceptual common ground that Leibniz had thus wrongly envisaged as already existing can nonetheless be achieved (or at least approached) for the sciences, namely by cultivating an attitude of openness to the borrowing of conceptual resources from other languages as such resources prove themselves useful for the sciences (a process which, according to Schleiermacher, is in fact already heavily underway, and which is realizable either through outright borrowing of the foreign words in question or through translation of them into one's language in the sort of sensitive way that his theory of translation advocates). Schleiermacher points out that this solution requires an (in any case healthy) shedding of prejudices about the superiority of one's own language, mode of thought, and people over others. This looks like Schleiermacher's most promising solution to the problem in question. He did not, however, live long enough to develop it in detail or to build on it towards a more complete method for resolving interlinguistic disagreements.

Second, and more surprisingly, Schleiermacher's dialectics lectures do not even develop any substantive account of how to resolve disagreements through conversation within a “linguistic sphere.” However, here again it is fortunately possible to supplement the dialectics lectures with extraneous material which goes further in such a direction. One important text in this connection is Schleiermacher's early essay Toward a Theory of Sociable Conduct (1799), which is precisely concerned with the art of conversation within a linguistic sphere. This early essay emphasizes the importance of finding a (conceptual) “content” that one shares with one's interlocutor(s), and restricting one's conversation to this. Schleiermacher accordingly recommends there that one begin a conversation guided by a sort of minimal estimate of such content arrived at from one's knowledge of such things as the profession, the educational background, and the class of one's interlocutor(s), but that one thence tentatively and experimentally work outwards towards identifying and exploiting further shared content -- a process which he recommends one should undertake, not by the heavy-handed method of introducing doubtfully shared content directly, but rather by the subtler method of introducing it indirectly in the form of a dimension of allusion and satire which one adds to one's treatment of already established shared content (after which, if the response is positive, it can join the previously established shared content as a proper subject matter for direct treatment). Another important text in this connection is Schleiermacher's hermeneutics lectures, which implicitly revise the earlier account just described in two respects: (a) In that account conversation was to be restricted to conceptual content that was already shared between interlocutors. But as we saw previously, by the time Schleiermacher writes the hermeneutics lectures he is skeptical that people ever really share conceptual content. Consequently, he would presumably now set the bar for fruitful conversation somewhat lower than strict sharing. (b) Also, it seems reasonable to infer from his conception of hermeneutics that he would now place less emphasis on discovering preexisting commonalities, or near-commonalities, and more on refining those found and establishing further ones -- namely, in both cases, through adept use of the art of hermeneutics.

Finally, Schleiermacher's hermeneutics lectures also supply a further part of his seemingly missing solution to the problem of reaching agreement through conversation, both for inter- and for intra-linguistic contexts. Clearly, any art of reaching agreement through conversation is going to depend on an art of interpreting interlocutors. Accordingly, the dialectics lectures explicitly assert the dependence of dialectics on hermeneutics (as well as vice versa), Schleiermacher's conception of hermeneutics as a universal discipline ensures its applicability to conversations, and Schleiermacher mentions in the hermeneutics lectures that he sometimes applies his own hermeneutical principles in conversational contexts. In short, Schleiermacher's hermeneutics itself constitutes an important component of his art of reaching agreement through conversation.

In sum, whereas Schleiermacher's final conception of dialectics as a discipline leads one to expect it to provide a fairly detailed set of procedures for resolving both inter- and intra-linguistic disagreements in conversation (analogous to the detailed set of procedures for interpretation which one finds in his hermeneutics), this expectation is largely disappointed by the dialectics lectures themselves. However, one can supplement the dialectics lectures from other texts in order to see how Schleiermacher might have envisaged a fuller solution to this task.

One last point which also deserves mention in this connection is the following. Schleiermacher's most prominent motive for developing such an art of conversation is the epistemological one mentioned earlier. That may or may not be a good motive in the end. However, Schleiermacher also has further and independent motives behind this art which are more obviously attractive. Thus, the 1831 lecture on Leibniz implies two additional motives behind the intercultural side of the art: first, Schleiermacher's cosmopolitan concern for humanity as a whole in all its diversity constitutes a moral reason for promoting fruitful intercultural dialogue; and second, his sense that insight, far from being our monopoly, is dispersed among many cultures constitutes another reason for us to engage in such dialogue. (Schleiermacher would presumably say that analogous considerations help to justify the intracultural side of the art as well.) Again, the essay Toward a Theory of Sociable Conduct emphasizes an additional motive behind the intracultural side of the art. In this essay Schleiermacher does not mention his later epistemological motive at all, but instead focuses on more direct benefits which he sees accruing from and depending on fruitful conversation between members of society, in particular an enrichment of the individual's own limited perspective through his incorporation of the different perspectives of other people. (Schleiermacher would presumably say that an analogous consideration helps to justify the intercultural side of the art as well.) In short, even if it were to turn out that Schleiermacher's predominant epistemological motive for developing an art of inter- and intra-cultural conversation were unpersuasive, such an art might still be highly valuable for other reasons that he has in mind such as these.

Finally, a few further positions from Schleiermacher's dialectics may also be worth mentioning briefly. One striking position is a denial that any concepts, thoughts, or cognitions are either purely a priori in nature or purely empirical, either the product of the “intellectual” function alone or the product of the “organic” function alone. All are the product of both functions -- though the proportions in which they are involved vary from case to case.

More specifically, as Schleiermacher conceives matters, all are located on a continuum which stretches between the maximally “intellectual” ideas of Being or God and the maximally “organic” chaos of sensations. These two extremes do not themselves involve mixture, Being or God being purely intellectual, while the chaos of sensations is purely organic. However, they do not for that reason constitute counterexamples to the position just mentioned, because they are not themselves strictly speaking concepts, thoughts, or cognitions.

As was previously mentioned, Schleiermacher's theory of concepts also says that they are in each case defined by relations of subsumption under higher concepts, contrast with correlative concepts similarly subsumed, and subsumption of further concepts under them. Subsumption under the non-concept Being and the subsumption of a class of primitive judgments about sensations constitute special cases at the two extremes of this conceptual hierarchy.

Another position which Schleiermacher holds is that the distinction between analytic and synthetic judgments is a merely “relative” one. One reason for this position is probably his view that all judgments are partly empirical in nature (a consideration which anticipates Quine). But what he mainly seems to have in mind is that it is always in some sense up to us to decide how many and which characteristic marks to build into any given subject concept, and therefore how many and which judgments in which that subject concept features will count as analytic or as synthetic.

A last feature of Schleiermacher's dialectics is more puzzling. Schleiermacher notes at one point that he wants to chart a sort of middle course between ancient dialectics, which had the virtue of openness but the vice of courting skepticism, and the dogmatism of the scholastics, for whom everything of importance was pre-decided in an assumed religious principle. His concession to the former position has in effect been described above. But what about his concession to the latter? This takes the form of positing a “transcendental ground” or God which is (1) beyond all oppositions, including those of thought/reality, thought/volition, and concept/judgment, (2) beyond Being (even though Being is itself beyond such oppositions), (3) an essential impulse behind, and accompaniment of, all attempts to know, and (4) not thinkable or linguistically expressible but instead felt. This is all rather mysterious. For example, the philosophical rationale for positing this “transcendental ground” or God as beyond rather than identical with Being is obscure, and so too is the exact way in which it is supposed to be the impulse behind and accompaniment of all attempts to know.

8. Ethics

Schleiermacher's ethical thought divides into two overlapping chronological phases: The first phase -- which stretched from the late 1780's until about 1803 -- was mainly critical in character. Early in this phase, the three unpublished essays On the Highest Good (1789), On What Gives Value to Life (1792-3), and On Freedom (1790-3) mounted a thorough attack on Kant's ethical theory, and at the end of this phase the longer published work Outlines of a Critique of Previous Ethical Theory (1803) developed that attack into a more comprehensive and systematic critique of predecessors' ethical theories. The second phase -- which began around 1800 -- was mainly constructive in character. To this phase belong the Soliloquies (1800), the Draft of an Ethics (1805-6), and Schleiermacher's mature ethics lectures (including the complete draft from 1812-13, as well as a number of later partial drafts).

The three early essays On the Highest Good, On What Gives Value to Life, and On Freedom criticize and reject central tenets of Kant's moral philosophy: in particular, Kant's inclusion in the “summum bonum [highest good]” of an apportioning of happiness to moral desert, his position that this must be believed in as a presupposition of morality, so that its own implicit presuppositions, an afterlife of the soul and a God, must be so too (the doctrine of the “postulates”), and his incompatibilism concerning causal determinism and the freedom required for moral responsibility and consequent recourse to the causally indeterministic noumenal realm as the locus for freedom (Schleiermacher's On Freedom argues for the causal determination of all human actions, but for the compatibility of this with the freedom required for moral responsibility).

A further area of disagreement with Kant forms the hinge on which Schleiermacher's development of his own constructive ethical theory turns. Kant's fundamental moral principle, the “categorical imperative,” consisted in a requirement of the consistency of an agent's moral maxim (or intention) when universalized, and was conceived by Kant to apply uniformly to all human beings. Schleiermacher rejects this position in two ways. First, already in On What Gives Value to Life, and then especially in the Soliloquies, he argues against the (latter) idea of uniformity in ethics -- instead asserting, in the spirit of Herder (and others influenced by Herder, such as Goethe, Schiller, and the romantics), the value of diversity or individuality even in the moral sphere. In this connection, Schleiermacher champions not only a (moral) distinctiveness of different human societies vis-à-vis the human species as a whole (this had been Herder's pet cause), but also a (moral) distinctiveness of the individual vis-à-vis his society. (In On Religion he makes an analogous case for both societal and individual diversity in religion. His positive valuing of societal and individual diversity naturally also extends beyond morals and religion.)

Second, Schleiermacher also rejects the content of Kant's “categorical imperative,” in On Religion and the Soliloquies championing against this an -- again Herderian -- commitment to humanity (in the sense of an ideal of the welfare of all human beings). (In On Religion Schleiermacher discusses the historical dimension of this principle of humanity in a Herderian vein, like Herder in his Ideas for the Philosophy of History of Humanity (1784-91) stressing the important role of (Christian) religion in advancing it, and interpreting history as its progressive realization.)

This double position of Schleiermacher's might seem to court the following sort of problem: What if the moral values of a society or an individual conflict with the ideal of humanity? (What, for example, if the society is Nazi Germany or the individual Hitler?) In the Soliloquies Schleiermacher forestalls this sort of problem by limiting the forms of moral distinctiveness and individuality that he supports to those which are compatible with or even promotive of the ideal of humanity. Thus he expresses his commitment to moral distinctiveness or individuality in such formulas as that a person should be an individual “without violating the laws of humanity,” that “each human being should represent humanity in his own way,” and that what is valuable is a person's “distinctive being and its relation to humanity.”

Similarly, Schleiermacher's championing of (moral) diversity or individuality is always combined with requirements of a measure of conformity with a broader species-wide or societal whole.

This constructive tension between “distinctive [eigentümlich]” and “universal” sides of ethics survives to constitute the central principle of Schleiermacher's mature ethics lectures. There he begins by arguing that very general forms or analogues of such a constructive tension are universal facts of nature -- that all finite beings exhibit such a tension, more specifically that all life does so in the more specific form of a tension between autonomy and social commonality, and more specifically still that all human mental life does so in this same form. He then goes on to derive a moral duty to realize such a tension in one's own person.

This provokes certain questions, to which the answers are not entirely clear. First, is Schleiermacher not here guilty of the so-called “naturalistic fallacy,” of attempting to deduce an “ought” from an “is”? The answer to this question would depend on the exact nature of his derivation of the moral duty from the universal facts of nature, which is obscure. Second, how can a synthesis of commonality with individuality both be an unavoidable fact about human nature (e.g. because we can never quite share any concepts, we also can never quite share any moral concepts in particular) and be a moral duty? There are two possible answers to this puzzle. One would appeal to Schleiermacher's determinism and compatibilism; that a mode of existence or behavior is inevitable does not for him exclude its moral obligatoriness. The other would instead appeal to the fact that the sort of synthesis in question can come in varying degrees; it might be that some degree of moral individuality is indeed inevitable for the reason mentioned but that the degree which is morally required is greater.

In addition to the central principle just discussed, three further aspects of the ethics lectures are worth mentioning briefly: (a) (As was reflected in the structure of the argument just sketched) Schleiermacher's mature conception of ethics is that it is fundamentally ontological rather than merely prescriptive in character: it concerns the immanence of “reason” in “nature,” and is hence more fundamentally a matter of an ”is” than of a “should.” (b) Accordingly (with an eye to the role of “reason” just mentioned), for Schleiermacher ethics is not fundamentally a matter of sentiments (these, he says, simply vary), but instead of cognitions, or more exactly, of something that grounds both ethical sentiments and ethical cognitions. (Here Schleiermacher is for once close to agreement with Kant.) (c) Accordingly again (but this time with an eye to the predominance of ontology over prescription just mentioned), Schleiermacher divides his ethics into a Doctrine of Goods, a Doctrine of Virtue, and a Doctrine of Duties, treating them in this sequence in order to reflect what he takes to be the greater fundamentalness of goods over virtues and of virtues over duties.

Generally speaking, though, Schleiermacher's ethics lectures are not a great success. They form an unholy mixture of, not only ethics in the usual sense, but also political philosophy, metaphysics, epistemology, and philosophy of mind; lurch back and forth between claims of startling dubiousness and claims of startling banality (with too little in between); and stick all this together with a thick stain of obscurantism and a thin varnish of systematicity. One is left with the impression that, having put the critical phase of his work in ethics behind him, Schleiermacher found that he did not really have enough constructive to say about ethics to fill up the hours in the lecture hall.

9. Political and Social Philosophy

Schleiermacher's political and social philosophy is scattered through a considerable number of works from different periods. Its most systematic, but not necessarily most interesting, statement is found in his lectures on the theory of the state, delivered between 1808-9 and 1833.

Concerning international politics, Schleiermacher's fundamental position is a thoroughly Herderian one: a cosmopolitan commitment to equal moral respect for all peoples in their diversity. This position is already articulated in On What Gives Value to Life (1792-3); it is central to On Religion (1799) and the Soliloquies (1800), in the form of a commitment to the Herderian ideal of “humanity”; and it survives in later works (e.g. in the 1831 lecture on Leibniz's idea of a universal language).

Concerning domestic politics: Schleiermacher was always somewhat reticent about fundamental constitutional questions. To judge from his early enthusiasm for the French Revolution, and his republican-democratic model of an ideal church in On Religion, the early Schleiermacher was strongly attracted to republicanism and democracy (like Herder). However, his later position -- while it does still make consent a conditio sine qua non of any genuine state -- is more sympathetic to aristocratic and monarchical forms of government. Thus in his lectures on the theory of the state from 1829-33 he argues that whereas smaller and “lower” states are naturally democratic, larger and “higher” ones are naturally aristocratic or monarchical.

However, Schleiermacher's domestic politics is more consistently radical in another respect: liberalism. (Here again he is indebted to Herder.) Already in 1799 the essay Toward a Theory of Sociable Conduct argues that there should be a sphere of free (by which Schleiermacher means especially: state-free) social interaction, in order to make possible the development and communication of individuality, and On Religion argues strongly against state-interference in religion, making the liberation of religion from such interference a fundamental part of a program for developing individualism in religion, and diagnosing some of the worst vices of current churches and religion in terms of such interference. This liberalism remains prominent in the ethics lectures of 1812-13, which add to the positions just mentioned a proscription of state interference in the universities. And it is still central to Schleiermacher's political thought in his (otherwise more conservative) late lectures on the theory of the state from 1829-33, in which he argues that the three spheres of sociality, religion, and science (e.g. the universities) lie beyond the legitimate power of the state, and critically notes that the current (Prussian) state falls short of this ideal. Schleiermacher's reasons for his broad liberalism are severalfold, but a fundamental one is the need to free up a domain in which the basic good of individuality can develop.

Schleiermacher devotes especially close attention to the question of religion's proper relation to the state (and to other socio-political institutions). As was mentioned, in On Religion he has two main reasons for wanting to see religion freed from state interference: first, because he values individualism in religion, the free development of a multiplicity of forms of religion; and second, because he sees state-interference as corrupting the nature of religion by, for example, attracting the wrong sorts of people into leadership positions within the church (men with worldly skills and motives rather than religious ones) and foisting alien political functions onto religious mysteries such as baptism and marriage. He argues that the true socio-political center of religion should instead be the family (a position which he later goes on to illustrate in Christmas Eve (1806), a work which depicts in a literary way a sort of ideal interweaving of (Christian) religion with family life).

One especially interesting case to which he applied his general insistence on the freedom of religion from state-interference was that of Prussia's Jews. (Once again, Herder had set the tone here -- both by developing a very sympathetic interpretation of ancient Judaism and by forcefully criticizing modern anti-semitism.) In an early work on the subject of Jewish emancipation in Prussia, Letters on the Occasion of the Political-Theological Task and the Open Letter of Jewish Householders (1799), Schleiermacher argues that Jews should receive full citizenship and civil rights, provided only that they compromise in their religious observances to a point enabling them to meet their duties to the state, and that they give up such politically threatening commitments as those to a coming messiah and to their status as a separate nation. He argues that Jews should not have to resort to the expedient of baptism as a means for achieving citizenship and civil rights (as some (Jewish) contemporaries had proposed), on the grounds that this expedient would be detrimental both to the Jews and their religion and to Christianity. In the latter connection his main expressed concern is that it would further water down an already rather watery church. But another concern is clearly that it would in effect amount to yet more interference by the state in a religious mystery (baptism). It is significant to note that Schleiermacher takes this strikingly liberal position concerning the Jews despite himself being rather critical of Judaism as a religion: in On Religion he argues that Reimarus's conception that there are deep continuities between Judaism and Christianity is mistaken, and that although Judaism was a beautiful religion in its day it has long since become corrupted and is now effectively moribund (unlike vibrant Christianity).

A further important aspect of Schleiermacher's socio-political philosophy, especially in its earlier phases, is his proto-feminism (in which he is strongly influenced by Friedrich Schlegel, but also by Herder, who was arguably the real pioneer in this area). This proto-feminism has several sides. First, Schleiermacher encourages women to strive for goods which have traditionally been the monopoly of men. For example, in his short Idea for a Catechism of Reason for Noble Ladies (published in the Athenaeum) he enjoins women, “Let yourself covet men's culture, art, wisdom, and honor.” Second, as a special case of this, he encourages women to seek sexual fulfillment, and to free themselves from inhibitions about discussing sex. This is one of the central themes of his Confidential Letters Concerning Friedrich Schlegel's Lucinde (1800). Third, he sees women as a source of valuable moral and intellectual resources for the benefit and improvement of society as a whole. One example of this is their natural aversion to the sorts of insensitivity and violence to which men are commonly prone, and their potential ability to restrain instead of permitting or even encouraging these. In this vein the Idea for a Catechism enjoins women, “You should not bear false witness for men. You should not beautify their barbarism with words and works.” Another (more historically specific) example, discussed in Toward a Theory of Sociable Conduct, is the ability of women, due to their broad educations but their freedom from the narrow confines of the professions, to direct social conversation away from limited professional concerns towards deeper and more broadly shared ones (Schleiermacher is thinking especially of the hostesses of salons of the period). Another example can be seen in an argument which Schleiermacher develops especially in his ethics lectures to the effect that women are by nature more attuned to recognizing and respecting individuality, whereas men are more attuned to recognizing and respecting abstract generalizations, and that accordingly one of the key functions of marriage is to bring about a valuable blending of these (equally important) intellectual-moral qualities in each partner. (It should be noted, however, that Schleiermacher later on tended to be more conservative in his views about women.)

It is perhaps worth underscoring that in its broad cosmopolitan concern for other peoples, for Jews, and for women Schleiermacher's socio-political philosophy was continuing a paradigm which was above all the achievement of a single predecessor: Herder.

One final feature of Schleiermacher's socio-political philosophy, especially prominent in the works from 1799-1800, is a broad critique of some central modern socio-economic institutions and a set of proposals for remedying their negative effects. (The Soliloquies casts this critique in the form of an attack on the self-satisfaction of the Enlightenment which is very reminiscent of Herder's attack in This Too a Philosophy of History.) Three parts of Schleiermacher's case are particularly noteworthy: First, in Toward a Theory of Sociable Conduct he implicitly criticizes modern division of labor for the way it blinkers people, inhibiting their development of their own individuality and their sense for the individuality of others. His solution here is the development of a sphere of “sociability,” i.e. a sphere of free conversation and social intercourse, in which such one-sidedness can be overcome. Second, in On Religion he criticizes the deadening repetitive labor typical of modern economies as an obstacle to spiritual, and in particular religious, self-development. His solution here is mainly a hope that advances in technology will free people from the sort of labor in question. Third, in On Religion and the Soliloquies he criticizes the hedonism, utilitarianism, and materialism of the modern age for preventing people's spiritual and religious self-development. His main solution here is the sort of revival of a vibrant religious and moral life for which On Religion and the Soliloquies argue.

10. Philosophy of Religion

Schleiermacher's most important and radical work in the philosophy of religion is his On Religion: Speeches to Its Cultured Despisers of 1799. (Later editions of this work and his later theological treatise The Christian Faith strive for greater Christian orthodoxy, and are consequently as a rule less interesting from a philosophical point of view.)

As its title implies, the project of On Religion is to save religion from the contempt of enlightenment and especially romantic skeptics about religion, “its cultured despisers.” At least where the romantics were concerned, the work was strikingly successful in this regard, in the sense that several of them, including Friedrich Schlegel, did in fact turn to religion in the years following the book's publication (though admittedly not to quite the sort of religion that Schleiermacher had envisaged). Schleiermacher's later philosophy of religion is similarly motivated. In his 1829 open letters to Lücke he especially stresses the pressing need to defend religion against the twin threats posed to it by modern natural science and modern historical-philological scholarship.

This project of defending religion against educated skeptics is reminiscent of Kant's similarly motivated critical philosophy. Schleiermacher is also sympathetic to Kant's general strategy of “deny[ing] knowledge in order to make room for faith” in connection with religious matters (Critique of Pure Reason, Bxxx), and in particular to Kant's attack on traditional proofs of the existence of God; Schleiermacher himself denies that religion is a form of knowledge or can be based on metaphysics or science. However, as can already be seen from his early unpublished essays On the Highest Good (1789) and On What Gives Value to Life (1792-3), Schleiermacher's strategy is in other respects defined more by opposition to than by agreement with Kant's. In particular, Schleiermacher sharply rejects Kant's alternative moral proof of an otherworldly God and human immortality (Kant's proof of them by showing them to be necessary presuppositions of morality); for Schleiermacher religion can no more be based on morality than on metaphysics or science.

As this stance already suggests, Schleiermacher has a large measure of sympathy with the skeptics about religion whom he means to answer. But the early Schleiermacher's sympathy with them also goes far deeper than this. In On Religion he is skeptical about the ideas of God and human immortality altogether, arguing that the former is merely optional (to be included in one's religion or not depending on the nature of one's imagination), and that the latter is positively unacceptable. Moreover, he diagnoses the modern prevalence of such religious ideas in terms of the deadening influence exerted by modern bourgeois society and state-interference in religion. He reconciles this rather startling concession to the skeptics with his ultimate goal of defending religion by claiming that such ideas are inessential to religion. This stance strikingly anticipates such more recent radical religious positions as Mauthner's “godless mysticism.” (Schleiermacher's later religious thought tended to backtrack on this radicalism, however, restoring God and even human immortality to a central place in religion.)

This naturally leaves one wondering what the content and the epistemological basis of religion are for Schleiermacher. As can already be seen from the 1793-4 essays Spinozism and Brief Presentation of the Spinozistic System, and then again from On Religion, the early Schleiermacher follows Spinoza in believing in a monistic principle that encompasses everything, a “one and all.” However, he also modifies Spinoza's conception in certain ways, partly under the influence of Herder (who is mentioned by name in the essays on Spinoza). In particular, whereas Spinoza had conceived his monistic principle as a substance, Schleiermacher follows Herder in thinking of it rather as an original force and the unifying source of a multiplicity of more mundane forces. (Later on Schleiermacher distanced himself from this neo-Spinozistic position. He explicitly denied that he was a follower of Spinoza. And accordingly, in the dialectics lectures he argued that there was an even higher “transcendental ground” beyond the Spinozist natura naturans or the Herderian highest force. His main motive behind this change of position seems to have been a desire to avoid the heavily charged accusations of Spinozism and pantheism -- which is hardly an impressive motive philosophically speaking.)

So much for the content of religion, as Schleiermacher envisages it. What about its epistemological basis? As was mentioned, for Schleiermacher religion is based neither on theoretical knowledge nor on morality. According to On Religion, it is instead based on an intuition or feeling of the universe: “Religion's essence is neither thinking nor acting, but intuition and feeling. It wishes to intuit the universe.”

The term “intuition” here is both revealing and problematic. As Kant had defined it, “intuition is that through which [a mode of knowledge] is in immediate relation to [objects]” (Critique of Pure Reason, A19). So part of what Schleiermacher means to convey here is some sort of immediate cognitive relation to some sort of object, namely the universe as a single whole. On the other hand, the term “intuition” also imported certain implications which Schleiermacher in fact wanted to avoid. In particular, Kantian pure or empirical intuition required the addition of concepts in order to constitute any sort of insight (“intuitions without concepts are blind” -- Critique of Pure Reason, A51), whereas Schleiermacher had in mind a sort of insight unmediated by concepts. In the later editions of On Religion he therefore retreated from speaking of “intuition” in connection with religion (instead reserving the term for science), and instead spoke simply of “feeling.” In accordance with this change, The Christian Faith then went on to define religion more specifically as a feeling of absolute dependence, or what Schleiermacher also described in his open letters to Lücke as the immediate consciousness of “an immediate existence-relationship.”

This epistemological position looks suspiciously like philosophical sleight-of-hand, however. “Feelings” can be of two very different sorts: on the one hand, non-cognitive “feelings,” such as physical pains and pleasures; on the other hand, “feelings” which incorporate cognitions or beliefs, for example a feeling that such and such is the case. Whereas the possession and awareness of non-cognitive feelings such as pains and pleasures may indeed be conceptually unmediated, beyond mediation by reasons for or against, and in a sense infallible, the possession and awareness of feelings which incorporate cognitions or beliefs, for instance the feeling that such and such is the case, does require conceptual mediation, is subject to reasoning for or against, and is fallible. As can be seen from the neo-Spinozistic content that Schleiermacher's religious intuition or feeling was originally supposed to have, from his original characterization of it as an intuition in the Kantian sense of an immediate cognitive relation to an object, from his later characterization of it as representing “an immediate existence-relationship,” and so forth, he does not mean religious feeling to be merely non-cognitive, but to incorporate some sort of cognition or belief. However, he also helps himself to the apparent epistemological advantages which belong only to non-cognitive feelings: non-mediation by concepts, transcendence of reasons for or against, and infallibility. In short, it looks as though his epistemological grounding of religion in “feeling” depends on a systematic confusion of these two crucially different sorts of cases.

One further, and less problematic, aspect of the “feeling” on which Schleiermacher bases religion should also be mentioned: its inclusion of motivating force, its self-manifestation in actions. The wish to include this aspect was one of Schleiermacher's reasons for supplementing religious “intuition” with “feeling” in the first edition of On Religion. And his later work stresses this dimension of religious “feeling” as well.

Turning to some further features of Schleiermacher's philosophy of religion in On Religion: He recognizes a potentially endless multiplicity of valid religions, and strongly advocates religious toleration. However, he also arranges the various types of religion in a hierarchy, with animism at the bottom, polytheism in the middle, and monotheistic or otherwise monistic religions at the top. This hierarchy makes reasonably good sense given his fundamental neo-Spinozism.

More problematic, however, is a further elaboration of this hierarchy which he introduces: he identifies Christianity as the highest among the monotheistic or monistic religions, and in particular as higher than Judaism. His rationale for this is that Christianity introduces “the idea that everything finite requires higher mediation in order to be connected with the divine” (i.e. the higher mediation of Christ). But this looks contrived. Even if one granted that “higher mediation” was a good thing, do not other monotheistic religions such as Judaism share this putative advantage as well, namely in the form of their prophets? And if the answer is No because prophets are not themselves divine, then why is the mediator's divinity supposed to be such a great advantage?

Moreover, Schleiermacher remarks on the distinctively polemical nature of Christianity, the extraordinary extent to which Christianity's religious and moral standpoint is defined by a hostile opposition to other standpoints, and even to dissenting positions within Christianity itself. This is an extremely insightful observation. (For example, one thinks in this connection of Nietzsche's brilliant explanation of Christian values as a deliberate inversion of Greco-Roman values, and of the revealing fact that the Christian word “demon” had earlier been the Greeks' most generic word for a deity; also of the bloody early internal history of Christianity, the Crusades, the Inquisition's treatment of Jews and witches, and similar horrors -- all of which only stopped (or receded) when Christianity became politically impotent in the modern period.) But then, how can a proponent of religious pluralism and toleration like Schleiermacher consistently see this striking trait of Christianity as anything but a serious vice?

On the (flimsy) basis of this perception of Christianity's superiority, Schleiermacher is moved to attempt to reconcile his neo-Spinozism with traditional Christian doctrines as far as possible. This project begins in a modest way in On Religion, where for example he works to salvage the Christian doctrine of miracles in the modified form of a doctrine which includes all events as miracles (insofar as viewed from a religious perspective). A similar project is pursued in a much more elaborate (and tedious) way in The Christian Faith.


Primary texts

There are two main editions of Schleiermacher's works:

In addition to the above, the following editions are especially important for philosophers:

Since the publication of the old Gesamtausgabe a number of improved editions of other parts of Schleiermacher's corpus have also been published (but not yet superseded by the new Kritische Gesamtausgabe).

One further significant resource:


Secondary Literature in German

Life and Works

Philosophy of Mind




Secondary Literature in French

Life and Works


Secondary Literature in English

Life and Works


Political and Social Philosophy

Philosophy of Religion

Other Internet Resources

[Please contact the author with suggestions.]

Related Entries

dialectic | Herder, Johann Gottfried von | hermeneutics | Kant, Immanuel | Kant, Immanuel: moral philosophy | mind: philosophy of | religion: philosophy of | Schlegel, Friedrich | Spinoza, Baruch