Supplement to Common Knowledge

Proof of Proposition 2.11

Proposition 2.11.
If A holds, and if A is a common reflexive indicator in the population P that x, then there is common reason to believe in P that x.

Proof. (Cubitt and Sugden 2003)

1. Ri A   (from RCI and the assumption that A holds)
2. A indi Rj A   (RCI2)
3. A indi x   (RCI3)
4. Ri x   (from 1 and 3, using CS1)
5. Ri   (A indj x)   (from 3, using RCI4)
6. A indi Rj x   (from 2 and 5, using CS5)
7. Ri Rj x   (from 1 and 6, using CS1)
8. Ri (A indj Rk x)   (from 6, using RCI4)
9. A indi Rj (Rk x)   (from 2 and 8, using CS5)
10. Ri (Rj (Rk x))   (from 1 and 9, using A1)
11. Ri (A indj Rk (Rl x))   (from 9, using RCI4)

And so on, for all i, j, k, l etc. in P. Lines 4, 7, 10, 3n+1 (n > 3) establish the theorem.

Return to Common Knowledge

Copyright © 2013 by
Peter Vanderschraaf <>
Giacomo Sillari <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free

The SEP would like to congratulate the National Endowment for the Humanities on its 50th anniversary and express our indebtedness for the five generous grants it awarded our project from 1997 to 2007. Readers who have benefited from the SEP are encouraged to examine the NEH’s anniversary page and, if inspired to do so, send a testimonial to