Notes to Heraclitus

1. Recently Mouraviev, following some earlier editors, has added to the one sentence of B12 the sentence that follows it in its context in Eusebius: “And souls too are nourished by moist exhalations [anathumiôntai].” This would limit the application of the statement about rivers to psychology. But there are problems with this attribution, most notably that the term anathumiaô and its cognates are not attested until Aristotle, and are not the kind of words we find Heraclitus using. Further, other sources such as Plutarch (Natural Questions 912a) seem to take the first sentence as belonging to a cosmological context. And if the sentence were found in an explicitly psychological context, the verbal complexities would be pointless.

Copyright © 2015 by
Daniel W. Graham <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free

The SEP would like to congratulate the National Endowment for the Humanities on its 50th anniversary and express our indebtedness for the five generous grants it awarded our project from 1997 to 2007. Readers who have benefited from the SEP are encouraged to examine the NEH’s anniversary page and, if inspired to do so, send a testimonial to