First published Tue Aug 6, 2002; substantive revision Sun Jul 5, 2015

The term ‘homosexuality’ was coined in the late 19th century by a German psychologist, Karoly Maria Benkert. Although the term is new, discussions about sexuality in general, and same-sex attraction in particular, have occasioned philosophical discussion ranging from Plato's Symposium to contemporary queer theory. Since the history of cultural understandings of same-sex attraction is relevant to the philosophical issues raised by those understandings, it is necessary to review briefly some of the social history of homosexuality. Arising out of this history, at least in the West, is the idea of natural law and some interpretations of that law as forbidding homosexual sex. References to natural law still play an important role in contemporary debates about homosexuality in religion, politics, and even courtrooms. Finally, perhaps the most significant recent social change involving homosexuality is the emergence of the gay liberation movement in the West. In philosophical circles this movement is, in part, represented through a rather diverse group of thinkers who are grouped under the label of queer theory. A central issue raised by queer theory, which will be discussed below, is whether homosexuality, and hence also heterosexuality and bisexuality, is socially constructed or purely driven by biological forces.

1. History

As has been frequently noted, the ancient Greeks did not have terms or concepts that correspond to the contemporary dichotomy of ‘heterosexual’ and ‘homosexual’. There is a wealth of material from ancient Greece pertinent to issues of sexuality, ranging from dialogues of Plato, such as the Symposium, to plays by Aristophanes, and Greek artwork and vases. What follows is a brief description of ancient Greek attitudes, but it is important to recognize that there was regional variation. For example, in parts of Ionia there were general strictures against same-sex eros, while in Elis and Boiotia (e.g., Thebes), it was approved of and even celebrated (cf. Dover, 1989; Halperin, 1990).

Probably the most frequent assumption of sexual orientation is that persons can respond erotically to beauty in either sex. Diogenes Laeurtius, for example, wrote of Alcibiades, the Athenian general and politician of the 5th century B.C., “in his adolescence he drew away the husbands from their wives, and as a young man the wives from their husbands.” (Quoted in Greenberg, 1988, 144) Some persons were noted for their exclusive interests in persons of one gender. For example, Alexander the Great and the founder of Stoicism, Zeno of Citium, were known for their exclusive interest in boys and other men. Such persons, however, are generally portrayed as the exception. Furthermore, the issue of what gender one is attracted to is seen as an issue of taste or preference, rather than as a moral issue. A character in Plutarch's Erotikos (Dialogue on Love) argues that “the noble lover of beauty engages in love wherever he sees excellence and splendid natural endowment without regard for any difference in physiological detail.” (Ibid., 146) Gender just becomes irrelevant “detail” and instead the excellence in character and beauty is what is most important.

Even though the gender that one was erotically attracted to (at any specific time, given the assumption that persons will likely be attracted to persons of both sexes) was not important, other issues were salient, such as whether one exercised moderation. Status concerns were also of the highest importance. Given that only free men had full status, women and male slaves were not problematic sexual partners. Sex between freemen, however, was problematic for status. The central distinction in ancient Greek sexual relations was between taking an active or insertive role, versus a passive or penetrated one. The passive role was acceptable only for inferiors, such as women, slaves, or male youths who were not yet citizens. Hence the cultural ideal of a same-sex relationship was between an older man, probably in his 20's or 30's, known as the erastes, and a boy whose beard had not yet begun to grow, the eromenos or paidika. In this relationship there was courtship ritual, involving gifts (such as a rooster), and other norms. The erastes had to show that he had nobler interests in the boy, rather than a purely sexual concern. The boy was not to submit too easily, and if pursued by more than one man, was to show discretion and pick the more noble one. There is also evidence that penetration was often avoided by having the erastes face his beloved and place his penis between the thighs of the eromenos, which is known as intercrural sex. The relationship was to be temporary and should end upon the boy reaching adulthood (Dover, 1989). To continue in a submissive role even while one should be an equal citizen was considered troubling, although there certainly were many adult male same-sex relationships that were noted and not strongly stigmatized. While the passive role was thus seen as problematic, to be attracted to men was often taken as a sign of masculinity. Greek gods, such as Zeus, had stories of same-sex exploits attributed to them, as did other key figures in Greek myth and literature, such as Achilles and Hercules. Plato, in the Symposium, argues for an army to be comprised of same-sex lovers. Thebes did form such a regiment, the Sacred Band of Thebes, formed of 500 soldiers. They were renowned in the ancient world for their valor in battle.

Ancient Rome had many parallels in its understanding of same-sex attraction, and sexual issues more generally, to ancient Greece. This is especially true under the Republic. Yet under the Empire, Roman society slowly became more negative in its views towards sexuality, probably due to social and economic turmoil, even before Christianity became influential.

Exactly what attitude the New Testament has towards sexuality in general, and same-sex attraction in particular, is a matter of sharp debate. John Boswell argues, in his fascinating Christianity, Social Tolerance, and Homosexuality, that many passages taken today as condemnations of homosexuality are more concerned with prostitution, or where same-sex acts are described as “unnatural” the meaning is more akin to ‘out of the ordinary’ rather than as immoral (Boswell, 1980, ch.4; see also Boswell, 1994). Yet others have criticized, sometimes persuasively, Boswell's scholarship (see Greenberg, 1988, ch.5). What is clear, however, is that while condemnation of same-sex attraction is marginal to the Gospels and only an intermittent focus in the rest of the New Testament, early Christian church fathers were much more outspoken. In their writings there is a horror at any sort of sex, but in a few generations these views eased, in part due no doubt to practical concerns of recruiting converts. By the fourth and fifth centuries the mainstream Christian view allowed for procreative sex.

This viewpoint, that procreative sex within marriage is allowed, while every other expression of sexuality is sinful, can be found, for example, in St. Augustine. This understanding leads to a concern with the gender of one's partner that is not found in previous Greek or Roman views, and it clearly forbids homosexual acts. Soon this attitude, especially towards homosexual sex, came to be reflected in Roman Law. In Justinian's Code, promulgated in 529, persons who engaged in homosexual sex were to be executed, although those who were repentant could be spared. Historians agree that the late Roman Empire saw a rise in intolerance towards sexuality, although there were again important regional variations.

With the decline of the Roman Empire, and its replacement by various barbarian kingdoms, a general tolerance (with the sole exception of Visigothic Spain) of homosexual acts prevailed. As one prominent scholar puts it, “European secular law contained few measures against homosexuality until the middle of the thirteenth century.” (Greenberg, 1988, 260) Even while some Christian theologians continued to denounce nonprocreative sexuality, including same-sex acts, a genre of homophilic literature, especially among the clergy, developed in the eleventh and twelfth centuries (Boswell, 1980, chapters 8 and 9).

The latter part of the twelfth through the fourteenth centuries, however, saw a sharp rise in intolerance towards homosexual sex, alongside persecution of Jews, Muslims, heretics, and others. While the causes of this are somewhat unclear, it is likely that increased class conflict alongside the Gregorian reform movement in the Catholic Church were two important factors. The Church itself started to appeal to a conception of “nature” as the standard of morality, and drew it in such a way so as to forbid homosexual sex (as well as extramarital sex, nonprocreative sex within marriage, and often masturbation). For example, the first ecumenical council to condemn homosexual sex, Lateran III of 1179, stated that “Whoever shall be found to have committed that incontinence which is against nature” shall be punished, the severity of which depended upon whether the transgressor was a cleric or layperson (quoted in Boswell, 1980, 277). This appeal to natural law (discussed below) became very influential in the Western tradition. An important point to note, however, is that the key category here is the ‘sodomite,’ which differs from the contemporary idea of ‘homosexual’. A sodomite was understood as act-defined, rather than as a type of person. Someone who had desires to engage in sodomy, yet did not act upon them, was not a sodomite. Also, persons who engaged in heterosexual sodomy were also sodomites. There are reports of persons being burned to death or beheaded for sodomy with a spouse (Greenberg, 1988, 277). Finally, a person who had engaged in sodomy, yet who had repented of his sin and vowed to never do it again, was no longer a sodomite. The gender of one's partner is again not of decisive importance, although some medieval theologians single out same-sex sodomy as the worst type of sexual crime.

For the next several centuries in Europe, the laws against homosexual sex were severe in their penalties. Enforcement, however, was episodic. In some regions, decades would pass without any prosecutions. Yet the Dutch, in the 1730's, mounted a harsh anti-sodomy campaign (alongside an anti-Gypsy pogrom), even using torture to obtain confessions. As many as one hundred men and boys were executed and denied burial (Greenberg, 1988, 313-4). Also, the degree to which sodomy and same-sex attraction were accepted varied by class, with the middle class taking the narrowest view, while the aristocracy and nobility often accepted public expressions of alternative sexualities. At times, even with the risk of severe punishment, same-sex oriented subcultures would flourish in cities, sometimes only to be suppressed by the authorities. In the 19th century there was a significant reduction in the legal penalties for sodomy. The Napoleonic code decriminalized sodomy, and with Napoleon's conquests that Code spread. Furthermore, in many countries where homosexual sex remained a crime, the general movement at this time away from the death penalty usually meant that sodomy was removed from the list of capital offenses.

In the 18th and 19th centuries an overtly theological framework no longer dominated the discourse about same-sex attraction. Instead, secular arguments and interpretations became increasingly common. Probably the most important secular domain for discussions of homosexuality was in medicine, including psychology. This discourse, in turn, linked up with considerations about the state and its need for a growing population, good soldiers, and intact families marked by clearly defined gender roles. Doctors were called in by courts to examine sex crime defendants (Foucault, 1980; Greenberg, 1988). At the same time, the dramatic increase in school attendance rates and the average length of time spent in school, reduced transgenerational contact, and hence also the frequency of transgenerational sex. Same-sex relations between persons of roughly the same age became the norm.

Clearly the rise in the prestige of medicine resulted in part from the increasing ability of science to account for natural phenomena on the basis of mechanistic causation. The application of this viewpoint to humans led to accounts of sexuality as innate or biologically driven. The voluntarism of the medieval understanding of sodomy, that sodomites chose sin, gave way to the modern notion of homosexuality as a deep, unchosen characteristic of persons, regardless of whether they act upon that orientation. The idea of a ‘latent sodomite’ would not have made sense, yet under this new view it does make sense to speak of a person as a ‘latent homosexual.’ Instead of specific acts defining a person, as in the medieval view, an entire physical and mental makeup, usually portrayed as somehow defective or pathological, is ascribed to the modern category of ‘homosexual.’ Although there are historical precursors to these ideas (e.g., Aristotle gave a physiological explanation of passive homosexuality), medicine gave them greater public exposure and credibility (Greenberg, 1988, ch.15). The effects of these ideas cut in conflicting ways. Since homosexuality is, by this view, not chosen, it makes less sense to criminalize it. Persons are not choosing evil acts. Yet persons may be expressing a diseased or pathological mental state, and hence medical intervention for a cure is appropriate. Hence doctors, especially psychiatrists, campaigned for the repeal or reduction of criminal penalties for consensual homosexual sodomy, yet intervened to “rehabilitate” homosexuals. They also sought to develop techniques to prevent children from becoming homosexual, for example by arguing that childhood masturbation caused homosexuality, hence it must be closely guarded against.

In the 20th century sexual roles were redefined once again. For a variety of reasons, premarital intercourse slowly became more common and eventually acceptable. With the decline of prohibitions against sex for the sake of pleasure even outside of marriage, it became more difficult to argue against gay sex. These trends were especially strong in the 1960's, and it was in this context that the gay liberation movement took off. Although gay and lesbian rights groups had been around for decades, the low-key approach of the Mattachine Society (named after a medieval secret society) and the Daughters of Bilitis had not gained much ground. This changed in the early morning hours of June 28, 1969, when the patrons of the Stonewall Inn, a gay bar in Greenwich Village, rioted after a police raid. In the aftermath of that event, gay and lesbian groups began to organize around the country. Gay Democratic clubs were created in every major city, and one fourth of all college campuses had gay and lesbian groups (Shilts, 1993, ch.28). Large gay urban communities in cities from coast to coast became the norm. The American Psychiatric Association removed homosexuality from its official listing of mental disorders. The increased visibility of gays and lesbians has become a permanent feature of American life despite the two critical setbacks of the AIDS epidemic and an anti-gay backlash (see Berman, 1993, for a good survey). The post-Stonewall era has also seen marked changes in Western Europe, where the repeal of anti-sodomy laws and legal equality for gays and lesbians has become common.

2. Historiographical Debates

Broader currents in society have influenced the ways in which scholars and activists have approached research into sexuality and same-sex attraction. Some early 20th century researchers and equality advocates, seeking to vindicate same-sex relations in societies that disparaged and criminalized it, put forward lists of famous historical figures attracted to persons of the same sex. Such lists implied a common historical entity underlying sexual attraction, whether one called it ‘inversion’ or ‘homosexuality.’ This approach (or perhaps closely related family of approaches) is commonly called essentialism. Historians and researchers sympathetic to the gay liberation movement of the late 1960s and 1970s produced a number of books that implicitly relied on an essentialist approach. In the 1970s and 1980s John Boswell raised it to a new level of methodological and historical sophistication, although his position shifted over time to one of virtual agnosticism between essentialists and their critics. Crompton’s work (2003) is a notable contemporary example of an essentialist methodology.

Essentialists claim that categories of sexual attraction are observed rather than created. For example, while ancient Greece did not have terms that correspond to the heterosexual/homosexual division, persons did note men who were only attracted to person of a specific sex. Through history and across cultures there are consistent features, albeit with meaningful variety over time and space, in sexual attraction to the point that it makes sense of speak of specific sexual orientations. According to this view, homosexuality is a specific, natural kind rather than a cultural or historical product. Essentialists allow that there are cultural differences in how homosexuality is expressed and interpreted, but they emphasize that this does not prevent it from being a universal category of human sexual expression.

In contrast, in the 1970s and since a number of researchers, often influenced by Mary McIntosh or Michel Foucault, argued that class relations, the human sciences, and other historically constructed forces create sexual categories and the personal identities associated with them. For advocates of this view, such as David Halperin, how sex is organized in a given cultural and historical setting is irreducibly particular (Halperin, 2002). The emphasis on the social creation of sexual experience and expression led to the labeling of the viewpoint as social constructionism, although more recently several of its proponents have preferred the term ‘historicism.’ Thus homosexuality, as a specific sexual construction, is best understood as a solely modern, Western concept and role. Prior to the development of this construction, persons were not really ‘homosexual’ even when they were only attracted to persons of the same sex. The differences between, say, ancient Greece, with its emphasis on pederasty, role in the sex act, and social status, and the contemporary Western role of ‘gay’ or ‘homosexual’ are simply too great to collapse into one category.

In a manner closely related to the claims of queer theory, discussed below, social constructionists argue that specific social constructs produce sexual ways of being. There is no given mode of sexuality that is independent of culture; even the concept and experience of sexual orientation itself are products of history. For advocates of this view, the range of historical sexual diversity, and the fluidity of human possibility, is simply too varied to be adequately captured by any specific conceptual scheme.

There is a significant political dimension to this seemingly abstract historiographical debate. Social constructionists argue that essentialism is the weaker position politically for at least two reasons. First, by accepting a basic heterosexual/homosexual organizing dichotomy, essentialism wrongly concedes that heterosexuality is the norm and that homosexuality is, strictly speaking, abnormal and the basis for a permanent minority. Second, social constructionists argue that an important goal of historical investigations should be to put into question contemporary organizing schemas about sexuality. The acceptance of the contemporary heterosexual/homosexual dichotomy is conservative, perhaps even reactionary, and forecloses the exploration of new possibilities. (There are related queer theory criticisms of the essentialist position, discussed below.) In contrast, essentialists argue that a historicist approach forecloses the very possibility of a ‘gay history.’ Instead, the field of investigation becomes other social forces and how they ‘produce’ a distinct form or forms of sexuality. Only an essentialist approach can maintain the project of gay history, and minority histories in general, as a force for liberation.

3. Natural Law

Today natural law theory offers the most common intellectual defense for differential treatment of gays and lesbians, and as such it merits attention. The development of natural law is a long and very complicated story, but a reasonable place to begin is with the dialogues of Plato, for this is where some of the central ideas are first articulated, and, significantly enough, are immediately applied to the sexual domain. For the Sophists, the human world is a realm of convention and change, rather than of unchanging moral truth. Plato, in contrast, argued that unchanging truths underpin the flux of the material world. Reality, including eternal moral truths, is a matter of phusis. Even though there is clearly a great degree of variety in conventions from one city to another (something ancient Greeks became increasingly aware of), there is still an unwritten standard, or law, that humans should live under.

In the Laws, Plato applies the idea of a fixed, natural law to sex, and takes a much harsher line than he does in the Symposium or the Phraedrus. In Book One he writes about how opposite-sex sex acts cause pleasure by nature, while same-sex sexuality is “unnatural” (636c). In Book Eight, the Athenian speaker considers how to have legislation banning homosexual acts, masturbation, and illegitimate procreative sex widely accepted. He then states that this law is according to nature (838-839d). Probably the best way of understanding Plato's discussion here is in the context of his overall concerns with the appetitive part of the soul and how best to control it. Plato clearly sees same-sex passions as especially strong, and hence particularly problematic, although in the Symposium that erotic attraction could be the catalyst for a life of philosophy, rather than base sensuality (Cf. Dover, 1989, 153-170; Nussbaum, 1999, esp. chapter 12).

Other figures played important roles in the development of natural law theory. Aristotle, with his emphasis upon reason as the distinctive human function, and the Stoics, with their emphasis upon human beings as a part of the natural order of the cosmos, both helped to shape the natural law perspective which says that “True law is right reason in agreement with nature,” as Cicero put it. Aristotle, in his approach, did allow for change to occur according to nature, and therefore the way that natural law is embodied could itself change with time, which was an idea Aquinas later incorporated into his own natural law theory. Aristotle did not write extensively about sexual issues, since he was less concerned with the appetites than Plato. Probably the best reconstruction of his views places him in mainstream Greek society as outlined above; the main issue is that of active versus a passive role, with only the latter problematic for those who either are or will become citizens. Zeno, the founder of Stoicism, was, according to his contemporaries, only attracted to men, and his thought had no prohibitions against same-sex sexuality. In contrast, Cicero, a later Stoic, was dismissive about sexuality in general, with some harsher remarks towards same-sex pursuits (Cicero, 1966, 407-415).

The most influential formulation of natural law theory was made by Thomas Aquinas in the thirteenth century. Integrating an Aristotelian approach with Christian theology, Aquinas emphasized the centrality of certain human goods, including marriage and procreation. While Aquinas did not write much about same-sex sexual relations, he did write at length about various sex acts as sins. For Aquinas, sexuality that was within the bounds of marriage and which helped to further what he saw as the distinctive goods of marriage, mainly love, companionship, and legitimate offspring, was permissible, and even good. Aquinas did not argue that procreation was a necessary part of moral or just sex; married couples could enjoy sex without the motive of having children, and sex in marriages where one or both partners is sterile (perhaps because the woman is postmenopausal) is also potentially just (given a motive of expressing love). So far Aquinas' view actually need not rule out homosexual sex. For example, a Thomist could embrace same-sex marriage, and then apply the same reasoning, simply seeing the couple as a reproductively sterile, yet still fully loving and companionate union.

Aquinas, in a significant move, adds a requirement that for any given sex act to be moral it must be of a generative kind. The only way that this can be achieved is via vaginal intercourse. That is, since only the emission of semen in a vagina can result in natural reproduction, only sex acts of that type are generative, even if a given sex act does not lead to reproduction, and even if it is impossible due to infertility. The consequence of this addition is to rule out the possibility, of course, that homosexual sex could ever be moral (even if done within a loving marriage), in addition to forbidding any non-vaginal sex for opposite-sex married couples. What is the justification for this important addition? This question is made all the more pressing in that Aquinas does allow that how broad moral rules apply to individuals may vary considerably, since the nature of persons also varies to some extent. That is, since Aquinas allows that individual natures vary, one could simply argue that one is, by nature, emotionally and physically attracted to persons of one's own gender, and hence to pursue same-sex relationships is ‘natural’ (Sullivan, 1995). Unfortunately, Aquinas does not spell out a justification for this generative requirement.

More recent natural law theorists, however, have tried a couple different lines of defense for Aquinas' ‘generative type’ requirement. The first is that sex acts that involve either homosexuality, heterosexual sodomy, or which use contraception, frustrate the purpose of the sex organs, which is reproductive. This argument, often called the ‘perverted faculty argument’, is perhaps implicit in Aquinas. It has, however, come in for sharp attack (see Weitham, 1997), and the best recent defenders of a Thomistic natural law approach are attempting to move beyond it (e.g., George, 1999a, dismisses the argument). If their arguments fail, of course, they must allow that some homosexual sex acts are morally permissible (even positively good), although they would still have resources with which to argue against casual gay (and straight) sex.

Although the specifics of the second sort of argument offered by various contemporary natural law theorists vary, the common elements are strong (Finnis, 1994; George, 1999a). As Thomists, their argument rests largely upon an account of human goods. The two most important for the argument against homosexual sex (though not against homosexuality as an orientation which is not acted upon, and hence in this they follow official Catholic doctrine; see George, 1999a, ch.15) are personal integration and marriage. Personal integration, in this view, is the idea that humans, as agents, need to have integration between their intentions as agents and their embodied selves. Thus, to use one's or another's body as a mere means to one's own pleasure, as they argue happens with masturbation, causes ‘dis-integration’ of the self. That is, one's intention then is just to use a body (one's own or another's) as a mere means to the end of pleasure, and this detracts from personal integration. Yet one could easily reply that two persons of the same sex engaging in sexual union does not necessarily imply any sort of ‘use’ of the other as a mere means to one's own pleasure. Hence, natural law theorists respond that sexual union in the context of the realization of marriage as an important human good is the only permissible expression of sexuality. Yet this argument requires drawing how marriage is an important good in a very particular way, since it puts procreation at the center of marriage as its “natural fulfillment” (George, 1999a, 168). Natural law theorists, if they want to support their objection to homosexual sex, have to emphasize procreation. If, for example, they were to place love and mutual support for human flourishing at the center, it is clear that many same-sex couples would meet this standard. Hence their sexual acts would be morally just.

There are, however, several objections that are made against this account of marriage as a central human good. One is that by placing procreation as the ‘natural fulfillment’ of marriage, sterile marriages are thereby denigrated. Sex in an opposite-sex marriage where the partners know that one or both of them are sterile is not done for procreation. Yet surely it is not wrong. Why, then, is homosexual sex in the same context (a long-term companionate union) wrong (Macedo, 1995)? The natural law rejoinder is that while vaginal intercourse is a potentially procreative sex act, considered in itself (though admitting the possibility that it may be impossible for a particular couple), oral and anal sex acts are never potentially procreative, whether heterosexual or homosexual (George, 1999a). But is this biological distinction also morally relevant, and in the manner that natural law theorists assume? Natural law theorists, in their discussions of these issues, seem to waver. On the one hand, they want to defend an ideal of marriage as a loving union wherein two persons are committed to their mutual flourishing, and where sex is a complement to that ideal. Yet that opens the possibility of permissible gay sex, or heterosexual sodomy, both of which they want to oppose. So they then defend an account of sexuality which seems crudely reductive, emphasizing procreation to the point where literally a male orgasm anywhere except in the vagina of one's loving spouse is impermissible. Then, when accused of being reductive, they move back to the broader ideal of marriage.

Natural law theory, at present, has made significant concessions to mainstream liberal thought. In contrast certainly to its medieval formulation, most contemporary natural law theorists argue for limited governmental power, and do not believe that the state has an interest in attempting to prevent all moral wrongdoing. Still, they do argue against homosexuality, and against legal protections for gays and lesbians in terms of employment and housing, even to the point of serving as expert witnesses in court cases or helping in the writing of amicus curae briefs. They also argue against same sex marriage (Bradley, 2001; George, 1999b).

4. Queer Theory and the Social Construction of Sexuality

With the rise of the gay liberation movement in the post-Stonewall era, overtly gay and lesbian perspectives began to be put forward in politics, philosophy and literary theory. Initially these often were overtly linked to feminist analyses of patriarchy (e.g., Rich, 1980) or other, earlier approaches to theory. Yet in the late 1980's and early 1990's queer theory was developed, although there are obviously important antecedents which make it difficult to date it precisely. There are a number of ways in which queer theory differed from earlier gay liberation theory, but an important initial difference can be gotten at by examining the reasons for opting for the term ‘queer’ as opposed to ‘gay and lesbian.’ Some versions of, for example, lesbian theory portrayed the essence of lesbian identity and sexuality in very specific terms: non-hierarchical, consensual, and, specifically in terms of sexuality, as not necessarily focused upon genitalia (e.g., Faderman, 1985). Lesbians arguing from this framework, for example, could very well criticize natural law theorists as inscribing into the very “law of nature” an essentially masculine sexuality, focused upon the genitals, penetration, and the status of the male orgasm (natural law theorists rarely mention female orgasms).

This approach, based upon characterizations of ‘lesbian’ and ‘gay’ identity and sexuality, however, suffered from three difficulties. First, it appeared even though the goal was to critique a heterosexist regime for its exclusion and marginalization of those whose sexuality is different, any specific or “essentialist” account of gay or lesbian sexuality had the same effect. Sticking with the example used above, of a specific conceptualization of lesbian identity, it denigrates women who are sexually and emotionally attracted to other women, yet who do not fit the description. Sado-masochists and butch/fem lesbians arguably do not fit this ideal of ‘equality’ offered. A second problem was that by placing such an emphasis upon the gender of one's sexual partner(s), other possible important sources of identity are marginalized, such as race and ethnicity. What is of utmost importance, for example, for a black lesbian is her lesbianism, rather than her race. Many gays and lesbians of color attacked this approach, accusing it of re-inscribing an essentially white identity into the heart of gay or lesbian identity (Jagose, 1996).

The third and final problem for the gay liberationist approach was that it often took this category of ‘identity’ itself as unproblematic and unhistorical. Such a view, however, largely because of arguments developed within poststructuralism, seemed increasingly untenable. The key figure in the attack upon identity as ahistorical is Michel Foucault. In a series of works he set out to analyze the history of sexuality from ancient Greece to the modern era (1980, 1985, 1986). Although the project was tragically cut short by his death in 1984, from complications arising from AIDS, Foucault articulated how profoundly understandings of sexuality can vary across time and space, and his arguments have proven very influential in gay and lesbian theorizing in general, and queer theory in particular (Spargo, 1999; Stychin, 2005).

One of the reasons for the historical review above is that it helps to give some background for understanding the claim that sexuality is socially constructed, rather than given by nature. Moreover, in order to not prejudge the issue of social constructionism versus essentialism, I avoided applying the term ‘homosexual’ to the ancient or medieval eras. In ancient Greece the gender of one's partner(s) was not important, but instead whether one took the active or passive role. In the medieval view, a ‘sodomite’ was a person who succumbed to temptation and engaged in certain non-procreative sex acts. Although the gender of the partner was more important than in the ancient view, the broader theological framework placed the emphasis upon a sin versus refraining-from-sin dichotomy. With the rise of the notion of ‘homosexuality’ in the modern era, a person is placed into a specific category even if one does not act upon those inclinations. What is the common, natural sexuality expressed across these three very different cultures? The social constructionist answer is that there is no ‘natural’ sexuality; all sexual understandings are constructed within and mediated by cultural understandings. The examples can be pushed much further by incorporating anthropological data outside of the Western tradition (Halperin, 1990; Greenberg, 1988). Yet even within the narrower context offered here, the differences between them are striking. The assumption in ancient Greece was that men (less is known about women) can respond erotically to either sex, and the vast majority of men who engaged in same-sex relationships were also married (or would later become married). Yet the contemporary understanding of homosexuality divides the sexual domain in two, heterosexual and homosexual, and most heterosexuals cannot respond erotically to their own sex.

In saying that sexuality is a social construct, these theorists are not saying that these understandings are not real. Since persons are also constructs of their culture (in this view), we are made into those categories. Hence today persons of course understand themselves as straight or gay (or perhaps bisexual), and it is very difficult to step outside of these categories, even once one comes to seem them as the historical constructs they are.

Gay and lesbian theory was thus faced with three significant problems, all of which involved difficulties with the notion of ‘identity.’ Queer theory thus arose in large part as an attempt to overcome them. How queer theory does so can be seen by looking at the term ‘queer’ itself. In contrast to gay or lesbian, ‘queer,’ it is argued, does not refer to an essence, whether of a sexual nature or not. Instead it is purely relational, standing as an undefined term that gets its meaning precisely by being that which is outside of the norm, however that norm itself may be defined. As one of the most articulate queer theorists puts it: “Queer is … whatever is at odds with the normal, the legitimate, the dominant. There is nothing in particular to which it necessarily refers. It is an identity without an essence” (Halperin, 1995, 62, original emphasis). By lacking any essence, queer does not marginalize those whose sexuality is outside of any gay or lesbian norm, such as sado-masochists. Since specific conceptualizations of sexuality are avoided, and hence not put at the center of any definition of queer, it allows more freedom for self-identification for, say, black lesbians to identify as much or more with their race (or any other trait, such as involvement in an S & M subculture) than with lesbianism. Finally, it incorporates the insights of poststructuralism about the difficulties in ascribing any essence or non-historical aspect to identity.

This central move by queer theorists, the claim that the categories through which identity is understood are all social constructs rather than given to us by nature, opens up a number of analytical possibilities. For example, queer theorists examine how fundamental notions of gender and sex which seem so natural and self-evident to persons in the modern West are in fact constructed and reinforced through everyday actions, and that this occurs in ways that privilege heterosexuality (Butler, 1990, 1993). Also examined are medical categories which are themselves socially constructed (Fausto-Sterling, 2000, is an erudite example of this, although she is not ultimately a queer theorist). Others examine how language and especially divisions between what is said and what is not said, corresponding to the dichotomy between ‘closeted’ and ‘out,’ especially in regards to the modern division of heterosexual/homosexual, structure much of modern thought. That is, it is argued that when we look at dichotomies such as natural/artificial, or masculine/feminine, we find in the background an implicit reliance upon a very recent, and arbitrary, understanding of the sexual world as split into two species (Sedgwick, 1990). The fluidity of categories created through queer theory even opens the possibility of new sorts of histories that examine previously silent types of affections and relationships (Carter, 2005).

Another critical perspective opened up by a queer approach, although certainly implicit in those just referred to, is especially important. Since most anti-gay and lesbian arguments rely upon the alleged naturalness of heterosexuality, queer theorists attempt to show how these categories are themselves deeply social constructs. An example helps to illustrate the approach. In an essay against gay marriage, chosen because it is very representative, James Q. Wilson (1996) contends that gay men have a “great tendency” to be promiscuous. In contrast, he puts forward loving, monogamous marriage as the natural condition of heterosexuality. Heterosexuality, in his argument, is an odd combination of something completely natural yet simultaneously endangered. One is born straight, yet this natural condition can be subverted by such things as the presence of gay couples, gay teachers, or even excessive talk about homosexuality. Wilson's argument requires a radical disjunction between heterosexuality and homosexuality. If gayness is radically different, it is legitimate to suppress it. Wilson has the courage to be forthright about this element of his argument; he comes out against “the political imposition of tolerance” towards gays and lesbians (Wilson, 1996, 35).

It is a common move in queer theory to bracket, at least temporarily, issues of truth and falsity (Halperin, 1995). Instead, the analysis focuses on the social function of discourse. Questions of who counts as an expert and why, and concerns about the effects of the expert's discourse are given equal status to questions of the verity of what is said. This approach reveals that hidden underneath Wilson's (and other anti-gay) work is an important epistemological move. Since heterosexuality is the natural condition, it is a place that is spoken from but not inquired into. In contrast, homosexuality is the aberration and hence it needs to be studied but it is not an authoritative place from which one can speak. By virtue of this heterosexual privilege, Wilson is allowed the voice of the impartial, fair-minded expert. Yet, as the history section above shows, there are striking discontinuities in understandings of sexuality, and this is true to the point that, according to queer theorists, we should not think of sexuality as having any particular nature at all. Through undoing our infatuation with any specific conception of sexuality, the queer theorist opens space for marginalized forms.

The insistence that we must investigate the ways in which categories such as sexuality and orientation are created and given power through science and other cultural mechanisms has made queer theory appealing to scholars in a variety of disciplines. Historians and sociologists have drawn on it, which is perhaps unsurprising given the role of historical claims about the social construction of sexuality. Queer theory has been especially influential in literary studies and feminist theory, even though the dividing lines between the latter and queer thinking is contested (see Jagose, 2009; Marinucci, 2010). One of the most prominent scholars working in the area of gay and lesbian issues in constitutional law has also drawn on queer theory to advance his interrogation of the ways that US law privileges heterosexuality (Eskridge, 1999). Scholars in postcolonial and racial analyses, ethnography, American studies, and other fields have drawn on the conceptual tools provided by queer theory.

Despite its roots in postmodernism and Foucault's work in particular, queer theory's reception in France was initially hostile (see Eribon, 2004). The core texts from the first 'wave' of queer theory were slow to appear in French translation, such as Judith Butler's and Eve Sedgwick's central works not coming out until a decade and a half after their original publication. Doubtless the French republican self-understanding, which is universalist and often hostile to movements that are multicultural in their bent, was a factor in the slow and often strenuously resisted importation of queer theoretical insights. Similarly, queer theory has also been on the margins in German philosophy and political philosophy. In sum, it is fair to say that queer theory has had a greater impact in the Anglo-American world.

Queer theory, however, has been criticized in a myriad of ways (Jagose, 1996). One set of criticisms comes from theorists who are sympathetic to gay liberation conceived as a project of radical social change. An initial criticism is that precisely because ‘queer’ does not refer to any specific sexual status or gender object choice, for example Halperin (1995) allows that straight persons may be ‘queer,’ it robs gays and lesbians of the distinctiveness of what makes them marginal. It desexualizes identity, when the issue is precisely about a sexual identity (Jagose, 1996). A related criticism is that queer theory, since it refuses any essence or reference to standard ideas of normality, cannot make crucial distinctions. For example, queer theorists usually argue that one of the advantages of the term ‘queer’ is that it thereby includes transsexuals, sado-masochists, and other marginalized sexualities. How far does this extend? Is transgenerational sex (e.g., pedophilia) permissible? Are there any limits upon the forms of acceptable sado-masochism or fetishism? While some queer theorists specifically disallow pedophilia, it is an open question whether the theory has the resources to support such a distinction. Furthermore, some queer theorists overtly refuse to rule out pedophiles as ‘queer’ (Halperin, 1995, 62) Another criticism is that queer theory, in part because it typically has recourse to a very technical jargon, is written by a narrow elite for that narrow elite. It is therefore class biased and also, in practice, only really referred to at universities and colleges (Malinowitz, 1993).

Queer theory is also criticized by those who reject the desirability of radical social change. For example, centrist and conservative gays and lesbians have criticized a queer approach by arguing that it will be “disastrously counter-productive” (Bawer, 1996, xii). If ‘queer’ keeps its connotation of something perverse and at odds with mainstream society, which is precisely what most queer theorists want, it would seem to only validate the attacks upon gays and lesbians made by conservatives. Sullivan (1996) also criticizes queer theorists for relying upon Foucault's account of power, which he argues does not allow for meaningful resistance. It seems likely, however, that Sullivan's understanding of Foucault's notions of power and resistance are misguided.

5. Conclusion

The debates about homosexuality, in part because they often involve public policy and legal issues, tend to be sharply polarized. Those most concerned with homosexuality, positively or negatively, are also those most engaged, with natural law theorists arguing for gays and lesbians having a reduced legal status, and queer theorists engaged in critique and deconstruction of what they see as a heterosexist regime. Yet the two do not talk much to one another, but rather ignore or talk past one another. There are some theorists in the middle. For example, Michael Sandel takes an Aristotelian approach from which he argues that gay and lesbian relationships can realize the same goods that heterosexual relationships do (Sandel, 1995). He largely shares the account of important human goods that natural law theorists have, yet in his evaluation of the worth of same-sex relationships, he is clearly sympathetic to gay and lesbian concerns. Similarly, Bruce Bawer (1993) and Andrew Sullivan (1995) have written eloquent defenses of full legal equality for gays and lesbians, including marriage rights. Yet neither argue for any systematic reform of broader American culture or politics. In this they are essentially conservative. Therefore, rather unsurprisingly, these centrists are attacked from both sides. Sullivan, for example, has been criticized at length both by queer theorists (e.g., Phelan, 2001) and natural law theorists (e.g., George, 1999a).

Yet as the foregoing also clearly shows, the policy and legal debates surrounding homosexuality involve fundamental issues of morality and justice. Perhaps most centrally of all, they cut to issues of personal identity and self-definition. Hence there is another, and even deeper, set of reasons for the polarization that marks these debates.


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