#### Supplement to The Kochen-Specker Theorem

## Derivation of STAT FUNC

The result is proved for a pure state and a non-degenerate discrete
observable *A* with eigenvalues *a*_{i}.

We first rewrite the statistical algorithm for projection operators:

(1) prob(v(A)^{| ψ>}=a_{k}) = Tr(P_{| ak>}·P_{| ψ>})

For an arbitrary function f: **R**
→
**R** (where **R** is the set of real
numbers) we define the function of an observable *A* as:

f(A) =_{df}Σ_{i}f(a_{i})P_{| ai>}

Moreover, we introduce the characteristic function
χ_{a} as:

χ _{a}(x)= 1 for x=a= 0 for x≠a

As a result, we can rewrite a project operator
*P*_{| ak>} as:

(2)P_{| ak>}= χ_{ak}(A)

and thus the statistical algorithm as:

prob(v(A)^{| ψ>}=a_{k}) = Tr(χ_{ak}(A) ·P_{| ψ>})

We also use a simple mathematical property of characteristic functions:

χ_{a}(f(x)) = χ_{f−1(a)}(x)

whence we can also write:

(3) χ_{a}(f(A)) = χ_{f−1(a)}(A)

Then:

prob( v(f(A))^{| φ>}=b)= Tr( P_{| b>}·P_{| φ>})(by (1)) = Tr(χ _{b}(f(A)) ·P_{| φ>})(by (2)) = Tr(χ _{f−1(b)}(A) ·P_{| φ>})(by (3)) = Tr( P_{| f−1(b)>}·P_{| φ>})(by (2)) = prob( v(A)^{| φ>}=f^{−1}(b))(by (1))

Hence:

prob(v(f(A))^{| φ>}=b) = prob(v(A)^{| φ>}=f^{−1}(b))

Now since

v(A) =f^{−1}(b) ⇔f(v(A)) =b,

we have

prob(v(f(A))^{| φ>}= b) = prob(f(v(A))^{| φ>}= b)

which is STAT FUNC.