Supplement to The Kochen-Specker Theorem

Derivation of Sum Rule and Product Rule from FUNC

The three principles, in full detail, are:

FUNC: Let A be a self-adjoint operator associated with observable A, let f: RR be an arbitrary function, such that f(A) is self-adjoint operator, and let | f> be an arbitrary state; then f(A) is associated uniquely with an observable f(A) such that:
v(f(A))|φ> = f(v(A))|φ>

Sum Rule: If A and B are commuting self-adjoint operators corresponding to observables A and B, respectively, then A + B is the unique observable corresponding to the self-adjoint operator A + B and

v(A + B)|φ> = v(A)|φ> + v(B)|φ>

Product Rule: If A and B are commuting self-adjoint operators corresponding to observables A and B, respectively, then if A · B is the unique observable corresponding to the self-adjoint operator A · B and

v(AB)|φ> = v(A)|φ> · v(B)|φ>

In order to derive Sum Rule and Product Rule from FUNC, we use the following mathematical fact: Let A and B be commuting operators, then there is a maximal operator C and there are functions f, g such that A = f(C) and B = g(C).

So, for two commuting operators A, B:

Since A = f(C) and B = g(C), there is a function h = f+g, such that A + B = h(C).

Therefore:

v(A + B)|φ>   =   h(v(C)|φ>)           (by FUNC)
    =   f(v(C)|φ>) + g(v(C)|φ>)            
    =   v(f(C))|φ> + v(g(C))|φ>           (by FUNC)
    =   v(A)|φ> + v(B)|φ>           (Sum Rule)

Similarly:

Since A = f(C) and B = g(C), there is a function k = f·g, such that A·B = k(C).

Therefore:

v(A · B)|φ>   =   k(v(C)|φ>)           (by FUNC)
    =   f(v(C)|φ>) · g(v(C)|φ>)            
    =   v(f(C))|φ> · v(g(C))|φ>           (by FUNC)
    =   v(A)|φ> · v(B)|φ>           (Product Rule)

Return to The Kochen-Specker Theorem

Copyright © 2013 by
Carsten Held <carsten.held@uni-erfurt.de>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free


The SEP would like to congratulate the National Endowment for the Humanities on its 50th anniversary and express our indebtedness for the five generous grants it awarded our project from 1997 to 2007. Readers who have benefited from the SEP are encouraged to examine the NEH’s anniversary page and, if inspired to do so, send a testimonial to neh50@neh.gov.