# Leibniz's Influence on 19th Century Logic

*First published Fri Sep 4, 2009*

It is an important question in the historiography of modern logic whether Leibniz's logical calculi influenced logic in its present state or whether they were only ingenious anticipations. The most significant of Leibniz's contributions to formal logic were published in the early 20th century. Only then, Leibniz's logic could be fully understood. Nevertheless, the essentials of his philosophy of logic and some technical elaborations could be derived from early editions of his writings published in the 18th and 19th centuries.

The most important of these editions was Johann Eduard Erdmann's collection of Leibniz's philosophical works (1839/40) which led to a first wave of reception of Leibniz's logic. This edition and Adolf Trendelenburg's discussion of Leibniz's theory of signs on the basis of texts published in it allowed a further reception of Leibnizian ideas among mathematical logicians at the end of the 19th century.

## 1. Introduction

Leibniz's impact on the emergence of modern logic, be it mathematical, algebraic, algorithmic or symbolic logic, is an important topic for understanding the emergence and development of the logic predominant today (on Leibniz's influence and reception cf. Heinekamp (ed.) 1986; on his influence in logic cf. Peckhaus 1997). However, the question whether Leibniz had any influence at all, or whether his ideas were rather not more than ingenious anticipations of later developments, is still disputed. The significance of this problem can be shown by referring to Louis Couturat, who claimed that in respect to the logical calculus Leibniz already had all the principles of much more recent logical systems of the algebra of logic (George Boole, Ernst Schröder) and was even more advanced in some points (Couturat 1901, 386). But did early “modern” logicians like Boole, Schröder, or Frege have any knowledge of Leibnizian logic, i.e., could Leibniz have had any influence on these pioneers of modern logic?

There are different answers to these questions. Wolfgang Lenzen,
e.g., wrote that Leibniz was the most significant logician between
Aristotle and Frege, but despite the enormous significance of his
logic, he played hardly any role in the history of logic (Lenzen 2004a,
15; cf. also Lenzen 2004b). According to Lenzen, Leibniz's mature
logical theory was present in his *Generales Inquisitiones de
Analysi Notionum et Veritatum*, which was only published in
Couturat's edition of Leibniz's minor writings and
fragments (Leibniz 1903, 356–399). Couturat had already referred
to it in his book on Leibniz's logic which had appeared two years
earlier (Couturat 1901). We find similar evaluations by William and
Martha Kneale*,* who in *The Development of Logic* rank
Leibniz among “the greatest of all logicians,” but stress
“that his work on logic had little influence for nearly 200 years
after he wrote it” (Kneale/Kneale 1962, 320). In the
Kneales' opinion, Leibniz had rather become notorious for
claiming to have made great discoveries in logic while there was little
published evidence for this claim.

For years Leibniz had written copiously on his many projects, but in the form of notes or memoranda, and most of what he had written remained unpublished in the library of Hanover, where he had served the Elector as historian, scientific advisor and expert on international law. (Ibid., 321)

Heinrich Scholz, a great admirer of Leibniz and author of the first
history of modern logic (Scholz 1931), argues along the same lines. For
him, Leibniz is the creator of logistic, i.e., modern formal logic
using logical calculi (Scholz 1931, 54, n. 9). Scholz reports that
Leibniz inspired 18th-century logicians in Germany, above all Johann
Heinrich Lambert (1728–1777) and Gottfried Ploucquet
(1716–1790). But then he stresses (ibid., 56) that the logical
calculi created by the English logicians Augustus De Morgan and George
Boole in the middle of the 19th century were completely independent of
Leibniz and German 18th-century research on logic. These English
calculi were amplified by the German mathematician Ernst Schröder
in his monumental *Vorlesungen über die Algebra der Logik*
(Schröder 1890-1905).

If this thesis of the independence of 19th-century algebra of logic
from Leibniz is accepted, it is possible to connect the discovery of
Leibniz, the logician, with the Leibniz renaissance in early 20th
century. In addition to Couturat's book *La logique de Leibniz
d'après des documents inédits* (1901), with a
presentation of Leibniz's logic in the spirit of the new logic,
the following landmark publications have to be mentioned: Bertrand
Russell's *A Critical Exposition of the Philosophy of
Leibniz* (1900), providing an axiomatic deductive reconstruction of
Leibnizian metaphysics, and Ernst Cassirer's *Leibniz'
System in seinen wissenschaftlichen Grundlagen* (1902), focussing
on a Neo-Kantian interpretation of Leibniz's philosophy.
Undoubtedly, Couturat's edition of Leibniz's *Opuscules
et fragments inédits de Leibniz* (Leibniz 1903), taken from
the manuscripts in the Royal Library in Hanover and published
in 1903, gave for the first time access to the wealth of
Leibniz's different approaches to logic.

Other authors assign Leibniz a key role in the development of modern logic. Eric J. Aiton, e.g., wrote that the Leibnizian project of a universal characteristic and the logical calculi resulting from it, “played a significant role in the history of logic” (1985, ix). Franz Schupp, starting from Couturat's evaluation quoted earlier, assumed “that the Leibnizian logic might be relevant for the further development of modern logic, beyond the historically interesting aspect of an ‘ingenious anticipation’” (Schupp 1988, 42). Schupp wrote that every step in the development of modern logic led to new insights into the Leibnizian logic, but sometimes dealing with Leibniz influenced the development itself.

It seems to be in accord with the second position that the pioneers
of modern logic themselves referred to Leibniz. George Boole's
widow, Mary Everest Boole, e.g., wrote that her husband, having been
informed of Leibniz's anticipations of his own logic, felt
“as if Leibnitz had come and shaken hands with him across the
centuries”
(M. E. Boole 1905, quoted in Laita 1976, 243).
William Stanley Jevons, who was
responsible for the great public success of modern logic in Great
Britain after Boole, claimed that “Leibnitz' logical tracts
are […] evidence of his wonderful sagacity” (Jevons 1883
[1874], xix). Ernst Schröder thought that Leibniz's ideal of
a logical calculus had been brought to perfection by George Boole
(Schröder 1877, III). The special controversy between Ernst
Schröder and Gottlob Frege which was at the root of the later
distinction between two kinds of modern logic, the algebra of logic and
the Frege-style mathematical logic, was centered on the question how
far the Leibnizian heritage was present in the respective variations of
logic. In his *Begriffsschrift,* Frege had written that the idea of a
general characteristic, of a *calculus philosophicus* or
*ratiocinator* was too ambitious to be achieved by Leibniz
alone. Frege's own *Begriffsschrift* supplements the first
steps towards this goal, which can be found in the formula languages of
arithmetic and chemistry (Frege 1879, VI). In his review of
Frege's *Begriffsschrift*, Schröder (Schröder
1880, 82) objected that the title “Begriffsschrift”
promises too much. According to Schröder, Frege's system is
less of a ‘general characteristic’ and more of a
*calculus ratiocinator*, and its development would have been
significant, had it not already been achieved by others (esp. by
Boole). Frege replied (Frege 1883, 1) that he did not intend to present
an abstract logic in formulae like Boole, but to express contents by
written signs in a more precise and clear manner than it would be
possible by words. Therefore the *Begriffsschrift* is not a mere
*calculus ratiocinator*, but a *lingua characteristica*
in the Leibnizian sense, although he accepted that inferential
calculation (*schlussfolgernde Rechnung*) was a necessary
constituent of the *Begriffsschrift*.

## 2. Logic in the First Editions of Leibniz's Works

Referring to Leibniz was a common place in the initial period of development of modern mathematical logic. Obviously, the early logicians saw some of their ideas represented in Leibniz, and in addition they had access to at least some of Leibniz's writings that could lend support to this claim. But which of Leibniz's ideas on logic could have been known in the middle of the 19th century?

The edition of Leibniz's philosophical works in Latin and French, published by Rudolph Erich Raspe (Leibniz 1765; cf. Hallo 1934) contained some up to then unpublished letters and six pieces from the unpublished papers, of which two, “Difficultates quaedam logicae” and “Historia et commendatio linguae charactericae”, are relevant to logic. The most important feature of Raspe's edition was the first publication of the “Nouveaux Essais sur l'entendement humain” which had been missing for sixty years.

In 1768 Louis Dutens published the *Opera omnia nunc primum
collecta in Classes distributa praefationibus & indicibus
exornata* (Leibniz 1768; cf. Heinekamp 1986), a rather complete
collection of Leibniz's published works. It contained some
hitherto unpublished
correspondences.

The “Nouveaux Essais” count as Leibniz's main work
in epistemology. They were written between 1703 and 1705 and contained
criticism of John Locke's *An* *Essay
Concerning Human Understanding* (Locke 1690). Locke died in 1704
when Leibniz was still working on the essays. The text caused a great
sensation when it was published by Raspe. It can therefore be regarded
as a key text for the reception of Leibniz in the late 18th and the
19th century. Logical considerations can be found in the fourth book
“De la connaissance”. They concentrate on the theory of
syllogism, but all elements of Leibniz's theory of logic are
present, to the extent that they are regarded as a device for the
evaluation of the validity of given theses (*ars iudicandi*) and
for finding new truths on the basis of given truths (*ars
inveniendi*).

Leibniz stresses in the “Nouveaux essais” that
syllogistic is part of a sort of universal mathematics, an art of
infallibility (*art d'infaillibilité*). This art is
not restricted to syllogisms, but concerns all kinds of formal proofs,
i.e. all reasoning in which inferences are executed by virtue of their
form (*NE*, ch. XVII, §4). According to Leibniz, there are
some problems with algebra in that it is still far from being an art of
invention. It has to be supplemented by a general art of signs or an
art of characteristic (*NE*, ch. XVII, §9).

## 3. Second Wave of Reception

When access to Leibniz's papers stored in Hanover became
possible in the 1830s, interest in Leibniz arose almost immediately. It can be said
that German research on Leibniz started as an aftermath of this event
(Glockner 1932, 60). The pioneers in this period of research were the
first editors of these papers. Although the philological interest stood
at the center, one could also observe an emerging interest in
Leibniz's logic. The following editorial milestones have to be
mentioned: Gottschalk Eduard Guhrauer (1809–1854) edited the
*Deutsche Schriften* (Leibniz 1838/40); Georg Heinrich Pertz
(1795–1876) directed the edition of the collected works, of which
a first series was devoted to the mathematical writings (Leibniz
1849–1863). The latter were edited by Carl Immanuel Gerhardt
(1816–1899). In addition, Pertz also edited Leibniz's
*Annales imperii occidentis Brunsvicenses* (Leibniz
1843–1846).

### 3.1 Johann Eduard Erdmann

The most important among these editorial projects was the edition of
Leibniz's philosophical works *God. Guil. Leibnitii opera
philosophica quae exstant Latina Gallica Germanica omnia* (Leibniz
1839/40; cf. Glockner 1932, 59–65) prepared in two volumes by
Johann Eduard Erdmann (1805–1892), which included fragments,
published there for the first time, containing elaborations of
Leibniz's ideas concerning logical calculi. One of the documents is
Leibniz's 1696 letter to Gabriel Wagner which contains the famous
definition of logic or the art of reasoning as the art to use the
intellect (*Verstand*), i.e., not only to evaluate what is
imagined, but also to discover (invent) what is hidden. The edition
also contains the seminal fragments “Specimen demonstrandi in
abstractis” and “Non inelegans specimen demonstrandi in
abstractis” (Leibniz 1839/40, 94–97), the last with the
algebraic plus-minus calculus, i.e. a central specimen of Leibniz's
various attempts to create logical calculi working with the two
“constituting” operations “gathering
together”, symbolized by +, and “taking away”,
symbolized by – (cf. Leibniz 1999, no. 178).

Johann Eduard Erdmann studied theology and philosophy at Tartu and
Berlin (cf. Glockner 1932). Friedrich Schleiermacher and Georg
Friedrich Wilhelm Hegel were among his teachers. He later became a
member of the right wing Hegelian school. In 1839 he was appointed full
professor of philosophy at the University of Halle. Erdmann became
well-known for his comprehensive history of modern philosophy entitled
*Versuch einer wissenschaftlichen Darstellung der Geschichte der
Neueren Philosophie* (Attempt at a scientific presentation of the
history of recent philosophy), published in seven volumes (Erdmann
1834–1853). This history of philosophy covers the period between
Descartes and Hegel. In part 2 of vol. 2 of this work, Erdmann
presented a discussion of Leibniz and the development of idealism
before Kant. This presentation was published in 1842, two years after
his edition of Leibniz's philosophical works. Erdmann reported
that while preparing his history he grew unsatisfied with the available
editions of Leibniz's works. He therefore intended to unite
Raspe's edition with the philosophical parts of Dutens'
edition and some pieces from the unpublished papers. He started
editorial work at the archive in Hanover in 1836.

In the chapter on Leibniz, Erdmann stressed the connection between
mathematics and philosophy. He dealt with Leibniz's logic in the
section on the philosophical method and mentioned Leibniz's
definition of “method” as the way to derive all knowledge
with the help of “principles of knowledge”
(*Erkenntnisprinzipien*) (Erdmann 1842, 109). These principles
are the law of contradiction and the law of sufficient reason. Erdmann
quoted Leibniz's letter to Gabriel Wagner containing the
statement that logic is the art to use the intellect; logic is
therefore the key to all sciences and arts. According to Erdmann,
Leibniz identifies the logical method with the mathematical method.
This mathematical method is the true philosophical method. Erdmann
furthermore dealt at length with Leibniz's “mathematical
treatment of philosophy” not only because it was important for
Christian Wolff and his school, but also “because just this point
is usually ignored in presentations of Leibniz's
philosophy” (ibid., 114). He had good reasons for this evaluation
because most of the relevant writings became only accessible in his own
edition (Leibniz 1839/40). Erdmann discussed Leibniz's calculi
calling them “methodic operations” with data in the
“way of calculating”. He mentioned Leibniz's idea of
a character script for the calculus which allows using signs without
always having a particular meaning in view. Such “pasigraphy”
would eliminate the differences between the languages, but, according
to Erdmann's evaluation, the idea of a universal language was not
at the center of Leibniz's interests. Leibniz's main point
was that “all mistakes in reasoning will at once show up in a
wrong combination of characters, and therefore the application of the
characteristic script provides a means to discover the mistake in a
disputed point like in every other calculation” (ibid.,
122–123).

Erdmann's discussion of Leibniz can be evaluated as follows. He opened the way for the inclusion of Leibniz's conception of logic into the actual philosophical debates on logic. This is all the more astonishing as Erdmann was a Hegelian. Hegel was known and heavily criticized for his depreciation of formal logic. On the other hand, stressing the close connection between philosophy and mathematics fit into a time when many philosophers tried to bring philosophy back into contact with the sciences.

### 3.2 The Impact of Erdmann's Edition

Erdmann's edition immediately stimulated further research on Leibniz's logic. Gottschalk Eduard Guhrauer criticized extensively Leibniz's universal characteristic in the first volume of his biography of Leibniz (Guhrauer 1846). He stressed its absurd and utopian character: According to Guhrauer, Leibniz's general characteristic must almost be seen as on a par with the philosopher's stone and the secrets of producing gold.

In a paper on “Über Leibnitz'ens Universal-Wissenschaft,” (1843) the Austrian philosopher Franz Exner referred explicitly to Erdmann's edition. For Exner, the edition throws a brighter light on Leibniz's conception of a universal science. Even though in Exner's opinion it had its weaknesses, he predicted a healthy impact on philosophy. He wrote (Exner 1843, 39):

For him [Leibniz], the universal science is the true logic; both, universal science and logic, are the arts of judgment and invention; writing mathematically means for him writingin forma, which he believes to be possible outside mathematics; for him, the logical form of reasoning is a calculus; formulas, relations and operations of his universal science correlate with concepts, judgments and inferences of his logic; finally, the second part of the universal science, the art of invention, is an epitome of relatively general methods. We cannot accuse him of having overestimated logic. It was not his opinion that simple knowledge of logical rules would do great things, but its application. In the application of logical rules, however, men who had the knowledge of logical rules to a great extent had shown weaknesses.

In 1857 the Herbartian philosopher from Bohemia, František
Bolemír Květ (1825–1864), published a booklet
entitled *Leibniz'ens Logik*. Květ reconstructed the
elements of Leibniz's *scientia generalis* stressing the
originality of their combination, but not of every single element. He
discussed the “extremely meager” fragments concerning the
philosophical calculus. They showed, Květ wrote, how far their
author stood behind his aims. He dismissed Leibniz's *ars
inveniendi*, calling it embarrassing because of its weaknesses,
defects and impossibility.

## 4. Friedrich Adolf Trendelenburg on Leibniz's General Characteristic

The most important figure in this second period of reception was
Friedrich Adolf Trendelenburg (1802–1872). He had studied
philology, history and philosophy at the universities of Kiel, Leipzig
and Berlin (cf. Bratuschek 1872; Vilkko 2002, 56–81; Vilkko 2009,
211–217; Peckhaus 2007). Among his teachers were Karl Leonhard
Reinhold and Johann Erich von Berger. He became professor in 1833; in
1837 he was promoted to full professor of practical philosophy and
education at the Friedrich-Wilhelms-University Berlin where he grew
into one of the main leaders of Prussian education and German
philosophy. An ordinary member of the Royal Prussian Academy of Science
at Berlin since 1846, he became the secretary of the
Philosophical-Historical Section of this Academy in 1847. Trendelenburg
was an anti-Hegelian who started from Hegelian philosophy. His fame as
a neo-Aristotelian goes back to his *Elementa logices
Aristotelicae*, first published in 1836 with five further editions
(Trendelenburg 1836). In his systematic work on logic he pleaded for a
unity of logic and metaphysics as found in the Aristotelian organon.
This systematic attitude is developed in a comprehensive work
containing heavy criticism of logical systems of his time, his
*Logische Untersuchungen*, published in two volumes in 1840
(Trendelenburg 1840).

As a secretary of the Academy, Trendelenburg was charged with
honoring Leibniz's memory. Leibniz had been the first president of the
“Societät der Wissenschaften” at Berlin, the
predecessor institution of the Royal Prussian Academy of Science,
founded on his initiative in 1700. In 1856, Trendelenburg delivered a
seminal lecture entitled “Über Leibnizens Entwurf einer
allgemeinen Charakteristik” at the Leibniz ceremony of the
Academy at Berlin (Trendelenburg 1857). This paper was reprinted in
the third volume of his *Historische Beiträge zur
Philosophie* (1867). In this discussion of Leibniz, Trendelenburg
stressed the essential role of signs in communication and
reasoning. There is no logical relation between sign and intuition,
but science has provided the opportunity to “bring the
composition of the signs into immediate contact with contents of the
concept” (Trendelenburg 1857, 3). The composition of the sign
presents the characteristic marks distinguished and comprehended in
the concept (ibid.). Trendelenburg called such a script
“Begriffsschrift”. Maybe he took over this term from
Wilhelm von Humboldt who had introduced it in 1824 (v. Humboldt 1826,
quoted 1848, 532; cf. Thiel 1995, 20). According to Trendelenburg the
beginnings of a *Begriffsschrift* were made, e.g., in the
decimal number system. Trendelenburg saw the objectives of Leibniz's
program as widening such an approach to the complete domain of
objects, thereby aiming at a “characteristic language of
concepts” and a “general language of matter.” He
mentioned the different names used by Leibniz: *lingua characterica
universalis* (in fact Trendelenburg's term; Leibniz
used *characteristica universalis*), alphabet of human
thoughts, *calculus philosophicus*, *calculus
ratiocinator*,
*spécieuse générale*. These names underline
the significance Leibniz ascribed to this program for his philosophy.
According to Trendelenburg, Leibniz aimed at “an adequate and
therefore general signification of the essence [of conceptual content],
namely by such analysis into the elements of concepts, that it becomes
possible to treat it by calculation” (ibid., 6). He mentioned as
historical precursors the *ars magna* of Raymundus Lullus and
other conceptions of universal languages. Because of its generality,
Leibniz's *characteristica universalis* stands out
compared with competing proposals by George Dalgarno (1661) and John
Wilkins (1668), which were obtained from “choice, nature and
chance,” and relied upon existing languages (ibid.,
14–15).

Trendelenburg, however, did not welcome all the elements of Leibniz's program. He heavily criticized its practical side, in particular, calculation in logic. The connection of properties in a concept is much more complicated than can be expressed with Leibniz's operations (ibid., 24). He recommended abstaining from calculation (Trendelenburg 1857, 55):

If the side of calculus, invention and discovery is excluded from general characteristic, there still remains an attractive logical task: [the task of finding] a sign that distinguishes the elements and which is therefore clear and avoids contradictions; [the task of] leading back the intricate [intuition] to the simple contained in it. There remains the task of finding a sign which is determined by the concept of the matter itself, like our number script. But such adequate sign presupposes an analysis brought to an end and deepened down to the ground to become possible.

Trendelenburg stresses that such analysis cannot be done given the
state of science of that time. If the *characteristica
universalis* is not given up the still pending analytical formula
has to be replaced by arbitrary conjectures, a procedure which,
according to Trendelenburg, contradicts the idea and even the
possibility of the intended calculation.

Erdmann's edition induced a second wave of reception. This reception is characterized by an interest in Leibniz's ideas on logic. Its context was the reorganization of the philosophical scene after Hegel's death (1831). This process was connected with a discussion of the so-called “Logical Question”, a term created by Adolf Trendelenburg (Trendelenburg 1842) who initiated these debates. The discussions concerned the role of formal logic in the system of philosophy (cf. Peckhaus 1997, 130–163; Peckhaus 1999; Vilkko 2002, 56–81; Vilkko 2009). The authors aimed at overcoming Hegel's identification of logic and metaphysics without re-establishing the old system of Aristotelian logic. The philosophical dominance of metaphysics was subsequently replaced by that of epistemology.

Trendelenburg's comprehensive discussion was most significant,
and his results are typical: He was interested in the
*characteristica universalis* as a tool for knowledge
representation, although he stressed its utopian character. He had no
interest in the logical calculus due to a philosophical skepticism
towards mechanical tools. They cannot explain creativity and have no
relations to the predominant interest of philosophy in that time, namely
the fields of dynamical (temporal) logics which should help to model
the movement of thought (*Denkbewegung*).

Given the nature of Trendelenburg's presentation of the Leibnizian system, his significance for the mathematical reception of Leibniz's ideas in the context of the emergence of formal mathematics and mathematical logic in the second half of the 19th century is astonishing. Trendelenburg's paper on Leibniz's program of a general characteristic became a point of reference for logical pioneers such as Gottlob Frege and Ernst Schröder (on their controversy cf. Peckhaus 1997, 287–296).

## 5. The Discovery of Leibniz in Mathematical Logic

The discovery of Leibniz in mathematical logic can be shown by
example in the case of George Boole, the founder of the algebra of
logic (cf. Peckhaus 1997, 185–232; on Ernst Schröder's
discovery of Leibniz cf. ibid., 233–287). In his first writing on
logic, the booklet *The Mathematical Analysis of Logic* of 1847,
he gave an algebraic interpretation of traditional logic. His fame as
one of the founders of modern logic goes back to his *An
Investigation of the Laws of Thought* of 1854. According to
Boole's own evaluation, his main innovation was the Index Law
(1847), later revised to the Law of Duality, also called
“Boole's Law”. This law expresses idempotence:

A=AA

What are the connections to Leibniz's logic? Are there
anticipations of the Boolean calculus in the work of Leibniz? One of
those authors looking for anticipations was Robert Leslie Ellis
(1817–1859), who edited Francis Bacon's *Novum
Organon* in *The Works of Francis Bacon* (1858–1874;
vol. 1: 1858). During his editorial works he found a parallel to
Boole's Law (p. 281, footnote 1): “Mr. Boole's
*Laws of Thought* contain the first development of ideas of
which the germ is to be found in Bacon and Leibnitz; to the latter of
whom the fundamental principle in logic *a*^{2} =
*a* was known.” As reference he gave Erdmann's
edition (Erdmann 1840, p. 130). Robert Harley (1828–1910),
Boole's first biographer, discussed this information in a paper
entitled “Remarks on Boole's Mathematical Analysis of
Logic” (1867). He did not find the proper quote at the place
indicated by Ellis, but he found other relevant texts. About the
significance of Ellis' remark he wrote: “Boole did not
become aware of these anticipations by Leibnitz until more than twelve
months after the publication of the ‘Laws of Thought,’ when
they were pointed out to him by R. Leslie Ellis” (p. 5).

Harley's research was taken up by the Manchester economist and
philosopher William Stanley Jevons (1825–1882). Jevons formulated
his philosophy of science, as found in the *Principles of
Science* (1874), against John Stuart Mill's
predominant inductive logic. His alternative to inductive logic was the
“Principle of Substitution”. He included a section
“Anticipations of the Principle of Substitution”, which was
enlarged in the later edition with a long discussion of Leibniz's
anticipations. There he expressed his thanks to Robert Adamson for the
information that the Principle of Substitution can be traced back to
Leibniz. Jevons asked what were the reasons for the long ignorance of
Leibniz's anticipations. Only Dutens' edition was available
in Owens College Library, Manchester. He regretted having overlooked
Erdmann's edition, but noted that this was also done by other
“most learned logicians”.

Finally, John Venn (1834–1923) has to be mentioned. His
*Symbolic Logic* (1881) is important for the historical
contextualization of the new logic. He criticized Jevons'
statement on the Law of Duality according to which “the late
Professor Boole is the only logician in modern times who has drawn
attention to this remarkable property of logical terms” as being
simply false. Besides, Leibniz, Lambert, Ploucquet and Segner had
anticipated the law “perfectly explicitly” and he had no
doubts “that any one better acquainted than myself with the
Leibnitzian and Wolfian logicians could add many more such
notices” (Venn 1881, xxxi, footnote 1).

## 6. Conclusions

No doubt, the new logic emerging in the second half of the 19th century was created in a Leibnizian spirit. The essentials of Leibniz's logical and metaphysical program and of his idea concerning a logical calculus were available at least since the 1840s. Erdmann's edition of the philosophical works and Trendelenburg's presentation of Leibniz's semiotics were the most important steps towards the further reception of Leibnizian ideas among mathematical logicians at the end of the 19th century. As soon as these logicians became aware of Leibniz's ideas, they recognized Leibniz's congenial affinity and accepted his priority. But the logical systems had basically been already established. Therefore there was no initial influence of Leibniz on the emergence of modern logic in the second half of the 19th century.

## Bibliography

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