# Logic of Belief Revision

*First published Fri Apr 21, 2006; substantive revision Mon Aug 1, 2011*

In the logic of belief revision, a belief state (or database) is represented by a set of sentences. The major operations of change are those consisting in the introduction or removal of a belief-representing sentence. In both cases, changes affecting other sentences may be needed (for instance in order to retain consistency). Rationality postulates for such operations have been proposed, and representation theorems have been obtained that characterize specific types of operations in terms of these postulates.

In the dominant belief revision theory, the so-called AGM model, the
set representing the belief state is assumed to be a logically closed
set of sentences (a *belief set*). In an alternative approach,
the corresponding set is not logically closed (a *belief
base*). One of most debated topics in belief revision theory is
the recovery postulate, according to which all the original beliefs
are regained if one of them is first removed and then reinserted. The
recovery postulate holds in the AGM model but not in closely related
models employing belief bases. Another much discussed topic is how
repeated changes can be adequately represented.

- Introduction
- 2. Contraction
- 3. Revision
- 4. Possible world modelling
- 5. Belief bases
- 6. Other operations
- 6.1 Update
- 6.2 Consolidation
- 6.3 Semi-revision
- 6.4 Selective revision
- 6.5 Shielded contraction
- 6.6 Replacement
- 6.7 Multiple contraction and revision
- 6.8 Indeterministic belief change
- 6.9 Operations for an extended language
- 6.10 Changes in the strength of beliefs
- 6.11 Changes in norms and preferences

- 7. Repeated change
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## Introduction

### 1.1 History

Belief revision (belief change, belief dynamics) is a young field of research that has been recognized as a subject of its own since the middle of the 1980s. The new subject grew out of two converging research traditions.

One of these emerged in computer science. Since the beginning of computing, programmers have developed procedures by which databases can be updated. The development of Artificial Intelligence inspired computer scientists to construct more sophisticated models of database updating. The truth maintenance systems developed by Jon Doyle (1979) were important in this development. One of the most significant theoretical contributions was a 1983 paper by Ronald Fagin, Jeffrey Ullman and Moshe Verdi, in which they introduced the notion of database priorities.

The second of these two research traditions is philosophical. In a wide sense, belief change has been a subject of philosophical reflection since antiquity. In the twentieth century, philosophers have discussed the mechanisms by which scientific theories develop, and they have proposed criteria of rationality for revisions of probability assignments. Beginning in the 1970s a more focused discussion has taken place on the requirements of rational belief change. Two milestones can be pointed out. The first was a series of studies conducted by Isaac Levi in the 1970s (Levi 1977, 1980). Levi posed many of the problems that have since then been major concerns in this field of research. He also provided much of the basic formal framework. William Harper's (1977) work from the same period has also had a lasting influence.

The next milestone was the AGM model, so called after its three
originators, Carlos Alchourrón, Peter Gärdenfors, and
David Makinson (1985). Alchourrón and Makinson had previously
cooperated in studies of changes in legal codes (Alchourrón
and Makinson 1981, 1982). Gärdenfors's early work was concerned
with the connections between belief change and conditional
sentences (Gärdenfors 1978, 1981). With combined forces the three
wrote a paper that provided a new, much more general and versatile
formal framework for studies of belief change. (On the history of
their joint work, see Makinson 2003 and Gärdenfors 2011.) Since
the paper was published in the *Journal of Symbolic Logic* in
1985, its major concepts and constructions have been the subject of
significant elaboration and development. The AGM model and
developments that have grown out of it still form the core of belief
revision theory.

### 1.2 The representation of beliefs and changes

In the AGM model and most other models of belief change, beliefs are represented by sentences in some formal language. Sentences do not capture all aspects of belief, but they are the best general-purpose representation that is presently available.

The beliefs held by an agent are represented by a set of such belief-representing sentences. It is usually assumed that this set is closed under logical consequence, i.e., every sentence that follows logically from this set is already in the set. This is clearly an unrealistic idealization, since it means that the agent is taken to be “logically omniscient.” However, it is a useful idealization since it simplifies the logical treatment; indeed, it seems difficult to obtain an interesting formal treatment without it. In logic, logically closed sets are called “theories”. In formal epistemology they are also called “corpora”, “knowledge sets”, or (more commonly) “belief sets”.

Isaac Levi (1991) has clarified the nature of this idealization by
pointing out that a belief set consists of the sentences that someone
is *committed to* *believe*, not those that she actually
believes in. According to Levi, we are doxastically committed to
believe in all the logical consequences of our beliefs, but typically
our performance does not live up to this commitment. The belief set is
the set of the agent's epistemic commitments, and therefore larger
than the set of her actually held belief.

In the AGM framework, there are three types of belief change. In
*contraction*, a specified sentence *p* is removed, i.e.,
a belief set *K* is superseded by another belief set
*K*÷*p* that is a subset of *K* not
containing *p*. In *expansion* a sentence *p* is
added to *K*, and nothing is removed, i.e. *K* is
replaced by a set *K*+*p* that is the smallest logically
closed set that contains both *K* and *p*. In
*revision* a sentence *p* is added to *K*, and at
the same time other sentences are removed if this is needed to ensure
that the resulting belief set *K***p* is consistent.

It is important to note the specific character of these models. They
are *input-assimilating*. This means that the object of change,
the belief set, is exposed to an input, and is changed as a result of
this. No explicit representation of time is included. Instead, the
characteristic mathematical constituent is a function that, to each
pair of a belief set and an input, assigns a new belief set.

### 1.3 Formal preliminaries

The belief-representing sentences form a language. (As is usual in
logic, the language is identified with the set of all sentences it
contains.) Sentences, i.e. elements of this language, will be
represented by lowercase letters (*p*, *q*…) and
sets of sentences by capital letters. This language contains the usual
truth-functional connectives: negation (¬), conjunction (&),
disjunction (∨), implication (→), and equivalence
(↔). ⊥ denotes an arbitrary contradiction
(“falsum”), and ⊤ an arbitrary tautology.

To express the logic, a Tarskian *consequence operator* will
be used. Intuitively speaking, for any set *A* of sentences,
Cn(*A*) is the set of logical consequences of *A*. More
formally, a consequence operation on a given language is a function Cn
from sets of sentences to sets of sentences. It satisfies the following
three conditions:

Inclusion:A⊆Cn(A)

Monotony: IfA⊆B, then Cn(A) ⊆ Cn(B)

Iteration: Cn(A) = Cn(Cn(A))

Cn is assumed to be supraclassical, i.e. if *p* can be
derived from *A* by classical truth-functional logic, then
*p* ∈ Cn(*A*). *A* is a belief set if and
only if *A* = Cn(*A*). In what follows, *K* will
denote a belief set. *X* ⊢
*p* is an alternative notation for *p* ∈
Cn(*X*), and *X* ⊬
*p* for *p* ∉ Cn(*X*). Cn(∅) is the
set of tautologies.

The expansion of *K* by a sentence *p*, i.e. the
operation that just adds *p* and removes nothing, is denoted
*K*+*p* and defined as follows: *K*+*p* =
Cn(*K*∪{*p*}).

## 2. Contraction

### 2.1 Partial meet contraction

The outcome of contracting *K* by *p* should be a
subset of *K* that does not imply *p*, but from which no
elements of *K* have been unnecessarily removed. Therefore, it
is of interest to consider the inclusion-maximal subsets of *K*
that do not imply *p*.

For any set *A* and sentence *p* the *remainder
set* *A*⊥*p* (“*A* remainder
*p*”) is the set of inclusion-maximal subsets of
*A* that do not imply *p*. In other words, a set
*B* is an element of *A*⊥*p* if and only if
it it is a subset of *A* that does not imply *p*, and
there is no set *B*′ not implying *p* such that
*B*⊂ *B*′⊆*A*. The elements of
*A*⊥*p* are called “remainders”.

If the operation of contraction uncompromisingly minimizes
information loss, then *K*÷*p* will be one of the
remainders. However, this construction can be shown to have implausible
properties. A more reasonable recipe for contraction is to let
*K*÷*p* be the intersection of some of the
remainders. This is *partial meet contraction*, the major
innovation in the classic 1985 paper by Carlos Alchourrón, Peter
Gärdenfors and David Makinson. An operator of partial meet
contraction employs a *selection function* that selects the
“best” elements of *K*⊥*p*. More
precisely, a selection function for *K* is a function
γ such that if *K*⊥*p* is non-empty, then
γ(*K*⊥*p*) is a non-empty subset of
*K*⊥*p*. In the limiting case when
*K*⊥*p* is empty, then
γ(*K*⊥*p*) is defined to be equal to
{*K*}.

The outcome of the partial meet contraction is equal to the
intersection of the set of selected elements of
*K*⊥*p*, i.e. *K*÷*p* =
∩γ(*K*⊥*p*).

The special case when for all sentences *p*,
γ(*K*⊥*p*) has exactly one element is called
*maxichoice contraction*. The special case when
γ(*K*⊥*p*) = *K*⊥*p*
whenever *K*⊥*p* is non-empty is called *full
meet contraction*.

Partial meet contraction of a belief set satisfies six postulates
that are called the basic Gärdenfors postulates (or basic AGM
postulates). To begin with, when a belief set *K* is contracted
by a sentence *p*, the outcome should be logically closed.

Closure:K÷p= Cn(K÷p)

Contraction should be successful, i.e., *K*÷*p*
should not imply *p* (or not contain *p*, which is the
same thing if Closure is satisfied). However, it would be too much to
require that *p*
∉ Cn(*K*÷*p*)
for all sentences *p*, since it cannot hold if *p* is a
tautology. The success postulate has to be conditional on *p*
not being logically true.

Success: Ifp∉ Cn(∅), thenp∉ Cn(K÷p).

The Success postulate has been put in doubt since there may be sentences other than tautologies that an epistemic agent may refuse to withdraw. (On operations that do not satisfy Success, see Section 6.5.)

The contracted set should be a subset of the original one:

Inclusion:K÷p⊆K

If the sentence to be contracted is not included in the original belief set, then contraction by that sentence involves no change at all. Such contractions are idle (vacuous) operations, and they should leave the original set unchanged.

Vacuity: Ifp∉ Cn(K), thenK÷p=K.

Logically equivalent sentences should be treated alike in contraction:

Extensionality: Ifp↔q∈ Cn(∅), thenK÷p=K÷q.

Extensionality guarantees that the logic of contraction is extensional in the sense of allowing logically equivalent sentences to be freely substituted for each other.

Belief contraction should not only be successful, it should also be
*minimal* in the sense of leading to the loss of as few previous
beliefs as possible. The epistemic agent should give up beliefs only
when forced to do so, and should then give up as few of them as
possible. This is ensured by the following postulate:

Recovery:K⊆ (K÷p)+p

According to Recovery, so much is retained after *p* has been
removed that everything can be recovered by reinclusion (through
expansion) of *p*.

One of the central results of the AGM model is a representation
theorem for partial meet contraction. According to this theorem, an
operator ÷ is an operator of partial meet contraction for a
belief set *K* if and only if it satisfies the six
above-mentioned postulates, namely Closure, Success, Inclusion,
Vacuity, Extensionality, and Recovery.

A selection function for a belief set *K* should, for all
sentences *p*, select those elements of
*K*⊥*p* that are “best”, or most worth
retaining. However, the definition of a selection function is very
general, and allows for quite disorderly selection patterns. An
orderly selection function should always choose the best element(s) of
the remainder set according to some well-behaved preference
relation. A selection function γ for a belief set *K* is
*relational* if and only if there is a binary relation
**R** such that for all sentences *p*, if
*K*⊥*p* is non-empty, then
γ(*K*⊥*p*) = {*B* ∈
*K*⊥*p* | *C***R***B*
for all *C* ∈ *K*⊥*p*}. Furthermore, if
**R** is transitive (i.e., it satisfies: If
*A***R***B* and
*B***R***C*, then
*A***R***C*), then γ and the partial
meet contraction that it gives rise to are *transitively
relational.*

In order to characterize transitively relational partial meet contraction, postulates are needed that refer to contraction by conjunctions.

In order to give up a conjunction *p*&*q*, the
agent must relinquish either her belief in *p* or her belief in
*q* (or both). Suppose that contracting by
*p*&*q* leads to loss of the belief in *p*,
i.e., that *p*
∉
*K*÷(*p*&*q*). It can be expected
that in this case contraction by *p*&*q* should lead
to the loss of all beliefs that would have been lost in order to
contract by *p*. Another way to express this is that everything
that is retained in *K*÷(*p*&*q*) is
also retained in *K*÷*p*:

Conjunctive inclusion: Ifp∉K÷(p&q), thenK÷(p&q) ⊆K÷p.

Another fairly reasonable principle for contraction by conjunctions
is that whatever can withstand both contraction by *p* and
contraction by *q* can also withstand contraction by
*p*&*q*. In other words, whatever is an element of
both *K*÷*p* and *K*÷*q* is
also an element of *K*÷(*p*&*q*).

Conjunctive overlap: (K÷p) ∩ (K÷q) ⊆K÷(p&q)

Conjunctive overlap and Conjunctive inclusion are commonly called
*Gärdenfors's supplementary postulates* for belief
contraction. An operation ÷ for *K* is a transitively
relational partial meet contraction if and only if it satisfies the
six basic postulates and in addition both Conjunctive overlap and
Conjunctive inclusion.

### 2.2 Entrenchment-based contraction

When forced to give up previous beliefs, the epistemic agent should
give up beliefs that have as little explanatory power and overall
informational value as possible. As an example of this, in the choice
between giving up beliefs in natural laws and beliefs in single
factual statements, beliefs in the natural laws, that have much higher
explanatory power, should in general be retained. This was the basic
idea behind Peter Gärdenfors's proposal that contraction of
beliefs should be ruled by a binary relation, *epistemic
entrenchment.* (Gärdenfors 1988, Gärdenfors and Makinson
1988) To say of two elements *p* and *q* of the belief
set that “*q* is more entrenched than *p*”
means that *q* is more useful in inquiry or deliberation, or
has more “epistemic value” than *p*. In belief
contraction, the beliefs with the lowest entrenchment should be the
ones that are most readily given up.

The following symbols will be used for epistemic entrenchment:

p≤q:pis at most as entrenched asq.

p<q:pis less entrenched thanq((p≤q)&¬(q≤p))).

p≡q:pandqare equally entrenched ((p≤q)&(q≤p)).

Gärdenfors has proposed the following five postulates for epistemic entrenchment, that are often referred to as the standard postulates for entrenchment:

Transitivity: Ifp≤qandq≤r, thenp≤r.

Dominance: Ifp⊢q, thenp≤q.

Conjunctiveness: Eitherp≤(p&q) orq≤(p&q).

Minimality: If the belief setKis consistent, thenp∉Kif and only ifp≤qfor allq.

Maximality: Ifq≤pfor allq, thenp∈ Cn(∅).

It follows from the first three of these postulates that an
entrenchment relation satisfies connectivity, i.e. it holds for all
*p* and *q* that either *p*≤*q* or
*q*≤*p*.

An entrenchment relation ≤ gives rise to an operator ÷ of entrenchment-based contraction according to the following definition:

q∈K÷pif and only ifq∈Kand eitherp< (p∨q) orp∈ Cn(∅).

Entrenchment-based contraction has been shown to coincide exactly with transitively relational partial meet contraction.

### 2.3 Recovery and its avoidance

Recovery is the most debated postulate of belief change. It is easy to find examples that seem to validate Recovery. A person who first loses and then regains her belief that she has a dollar in her pocket seems to return to her previous state of belief. However, other examples can also be presented, in which Recovery yields implausible results. The following are two of the examples that have been offered to show that Recovery does not hold in general:

I have read in a book about Cleopatra that she had both a son and a daughter. My set of beliefs therefore contains both

*p*and*q*, where*p*denotes that Cleopatra had a son and*q*that she had a daughter. I then learn from a knowledgeable friend that the book is in fact a historical novel. After that I contract*p*∨*q*from my set of beliefs, i.e., I do not any longer believe that Cleopatra had a child. Soon after that, however, I learn from a reliable source that Cleopatra had a child. It seems perfectly reasonable for me to then add*p*∨*q*to my set of beliefs without also reintroducing either*p*or*q*. This contradicts Recovery.2. I previously entertained the two beliefs “George is a criminal” (

*p*) and “George is a mass murderer” (*q*). When I received information that induced me to give up the first of these beliefs (*p*), the second (*q*) had to go as well (since*p*would otherwise follow from*q*).I then I received new information that made me accept the belief “George is a shoplifter” (

*r*). The resulting new belief set is the expansion of*K*÷*p*by*r*, (*K*÷*p*)+*r*. Since*p*follows from*r*, (*K*÷*p*)+*p*is a subset of (*K*÷*p*)+*r*. By recovery, (*K*÷*p*)+*p*includes*q*, from which follows that (*K*÷*p*)+*r*includes*q*.Thus, since I previously believed George to be a mass murderer, it follows from Recovery that I cannot any longer believe him to be a shoplifter without believing him to be a mass murderer.

Due to the problematic nature of this postulate, it should be interesting to find intuitively less controversial postulates that prevent unnecessary losses in contraction. The following is an attempt to do that:

Core-retainment: Ifq∈Kandq∉K÷p, then there is a belief setK′ such thatK′ ⊆Kand thatp∉K′ butp∈K′+q.

Core-retainment requires of an excluded sentence *q* that it
in some way contributes to the fact that *K* implies *p*.
It gives the impression of being weaker and more plausible than
Recovery. However, it has been shown that if an operator ÷ for a
belief set *K* satisfies Core-retainment, then it satisfies
Recovery.

Attempts have been made to construct operations of contraction on
belief sets that do not satisfy Recovery. Arguably the most plausible
of these constructions is the operation of *severe withdrawal*
that has been thoroughly investigated by Hans Rott and Maurice Pagnucco
(2000). It can
be constructed from an operation of epistemic entrenchment by modifying
the definition as follows:

q∈K÷pif and only ifq∈Kand eitherp<qorp∈ Cn(∅).

Severe withdrawal has interesting features, but it also has the following property:

Expulsiveness: Ifp∉Cn(∅) andq∉Cn(∅) then eitherp∉K÷qorq∉K÷p.

This is a highly implausible property of belief contraction, since it does not allow unrelated beliefs to be undisturbed by each other's contraction. Consider a scholar who believes that her car is parked in front of the house. She also believes that Shakespeare wrote the Tempest. It should be possible for her to give up the first of these beliefs while retaining the second. She should also be able to give up the second without giving up the first. Expulsiveness does not allow this. The construction of a plausible operation of contraction for belief sets that does not satisfy Recovery is still an open issue.

## 3. Revision

The two major tasks of a revision operator * are (1) to add the new
belief *p* to the belief set *K*, and (2) to ensure that
the resulting belief set *K***p* is consistent (unless
*p* is inconsistent). The first task can be accomplished by
expansion by *p*. The second can be accomplished by prior
contraction by its negation ¬*p*. If a belief set does not
imply ¬*p*, then *p* can be added to it without loss
of consistency. This composition of suboperations gives rise to the
following definition of a revision operator (Gärdenfors 1981, Levi 1977):

Levi identity:K*p= (K÷¬p)+p.

If ÷ is partial meet contraction, then the operator * that is
defined in this way is *partial meet revision.* It is the
standard operation of revision in the AGM model.

Partial meet revision has been axiomatically characterized. An operator * is an operator of partial meet revision if and only if it satisfies the following six postulates:

Closure:K*p= Cn(K*p)

Success:p∈K*p

Inclusion:K*p⊆K+p

Vacuity: If ¬p∉ K, thenK*p=K+p.

Consistency:K*pis consistent ifpis consistent.

Extensionality: If (p↔q) ∈ Cn(∅), thenK*p=K*q.

These six postulates are commonly called the *basic
Gärdenfors postulates for revision.* In addition, two
supplementary postulates are part of the standard repertoire:

Superexpansion:K*(p&q) ⊆ (K*p)+q

Subexpansion: If ¬q∉ Cn(K*p), then (K*p)+q⊆K*(p&q).

These postulates are closely related to the supplementary postulates for contraction. Let * be the partial meet revision defined from the partial meet contraction ÷ via the Levi identity. Then * satisfies superexpansion if and only if ÷ satisfies conjunctive overlap. Furthermore, * satisfies subexpansion if and only if ÷ satisfies conjunctive inclusion.

## 4. Possible world modelling

Alternative models of belief states can be constructed out of sets of
possible worlds (Grove 1988). In logical parlance, by a *possible
world* is meant a maximal consistent subset of the language. By a
*proposition* is meant a set of possible worlds. There is a
one-to-one correspondence between propositions and belief sets. Each
belief set can be represented by the proposition (set of possible
worlds) that consists of those possible worlds that contain the belief
set in question.

For any set *A* of sentences, let [*A*] denote the set
of possible worlds that contain *A* as a subset, and similarly
for any sentence*p* let [*p*] be the set of possible
worlds that contain *p* as an element. If *A* is
inconsistent, then [*A*] = ∅. Otherwise, [*A*] is
a non-empty set of possible worlds. (It is assumed that ∩∅
is equal to the whole language.) If *K* is a belief set, then
∩[*K*] = *K*.

The propositional account provides an intuitively clear picture of
some aspects of belief change. It is convenient to use a geometrical
surface to represent the set of possible worlds. In *Diagram 1*,
every point on the rectangle's surface represents a possible world. The
circle marked [*K*] represents those possible worlds in which
all sentences in *K* are true, i.e., the set [*K*] of
possible worlds. The area marked [*p*] represents those possible
worlds in which the sentence *p* is true.

Diagram 1. Revision of K by p.

In *Diagram 1*, [*K*] and [*p*] have a
non-empty intersection, which means that *K* is compatible with
*p*. The revision of *K* by *p* is therefore not
belief-contravening. Its outcome is obtained by giving up those
elements of [*K*] that are incompatible with *p*. In
other words, the result of revising [*K*] by [*p*] should
be equal to [*K*]∩[ *p*].

If [*K*] and [*p*] do not intersect, then the outcome
of the revision must be sought outside of [*K*], but it should
nevertheless be a subset of [*p*]. In general:

The outcome of revising [

K] by [p] is a subset of [p] that is(1) non-empty if [

p] is non-empty(2) equal to [

K]∩[p] if [K]∩[p] is non-empty

This simple rule for revision can be shown to *correspond exactly
to partial meet revision*.

The revised belief state should not differ more from the original
belief state [*K*] than what is motivated by [*p*]. This
can be achieved by requiring that the outcome of revising [*K*]
by [*p*] consists of those elements of [*p*] that are as
close as possible to [*K*]. For that purpose, [*K*] can
be thought of as surrounded by a system of concentric spheres (just as
in David Lewis's account of counterfactual conditionals). Each sphere
represents a degree of closeness or similarity to [*K*].

In this model, the outcome of revising [*K*] by [*p*]
should be the intersection of [*p*] with the narrowest sphere
around [*K*] that has a non-empty intersection with
[*p*], as in *Diagram 2*. This construction was invented
by Adam Grove (1988), who also proved that such sphere-based revision
*corresponds exactly to transitively relational partial meet
revision*. It follows of course that it corresponds exactly to
entrenchment-based revision.

Diagram 2. Sphere-based revision of K by p.

Possible world models can also be used for contraction. In
contraction, a restriction on what worlds are “possible”
(compatible with the agent's beliefs) is removed. Thus, the set of
possibilities is enlarged, so that the contraction of [*K*] by
[*p*] will result in a superset of [*K*]. Furthermore,
the new possibilities should be worlds in which *p* does not
hold, i.e., they should be worlds in which ¬*p* holds. In
the limiting case when [*K*] and [¬*p*] have a
non-empty intersection, no enlargement of [*K*] is necessary to
make ¬*p* possible, and the original belief state will
therefore be unchanged. In summary, contraction should be performed
according to the following rule:

The outcome of contracting [K] by [p] is the union of [K] and a subset of [¬p] that is(1) non-empty if [¬

p] is non-empty(2) equal to [

K]∩[¬p] if [K]∩[¬p] is non-empty

Belief-contravening contraction is illustrated in *Diagram
3*. Contraction performed according to this rule can be shown to
*correspond exactly to partial meet contraction*. Furthermore,
the special case when the whole of [¬*p*] is added to
[*K*] *corresponds exactly to full meet contraction*. The
other extreme case, when only one element of [¬*p*] (a
“point” on the surface) is added to [*K*]
*corresponds exactly to maxichoice contraction*. Thus, in
maxichoice contraction by *p* only one possible way in which
*p* can be false (¬*p* can be true) is added.

Diagram 3. Contraction of K by p.

Grove's sphere systems can also be used for contraction. In
sphere-based contraction by *p,*, those elements of [¬*p*] are
added that belong to the closest sphere around [*K*] that has a
non-empty intersection with [¬*p*]. The procedure is shown
in *Diagram 4*. Sphere-based contraction *corresponds
exactly to transitively relational partial meet contraction*.

Diagram 4. Sphere-based contraction of K by p.

## 5. Belief bases

### 5.1 Increased expressive power

In the approaches discussed above, all beliefs in the belief set are
treated equally in the sense that they are all taken seriously as
beliefs in their own right. However, due to logical closure the belief
set contains many elements that are not really worth to be taken
seriously. Hence, suppose that the belief set contains the sentence
*p*, “Shakespeare wrote Hamlet”. Due to logical
closure it then also contains the sentence *p*
∨
*q*, “Either Shakespeare wrote
Hamlet or Charles Dickens wrote Hamlet”. The latter sentence is a
“mere logical consequence” that should have no standing of
its own.

Belief bases have been introduced to capture this feature of the structure of human beliefs. A belief base is a set of sentences that is not (except as a limiting case) closed under logical consequence. Its elements represent beliefs that are held independently of any other belief or set of beliefs. Those elements of the belief set that are not in the belief base are “merely derived”, i.e., they have no independent standing.

Changes are performed on the belief base. The underlying intuition is that the merely derived beliefs are not worth retaining for their own sake. If one of them loses the support that it had in basic beliefs, then it will be automatically discarded.

For every belief base *A*, there is a belief set Cn(*A*)
that represents the beliefs held according to *A*. On the other
hand, one and the same belief set can be represented by different
belief bases. In this sense, belief bases have more expressive power
than belief sets. As an example, the two belief bases {*p*,
*q*} and {*p*, *p* ↔ *q*} have the
same logical closure. They are therefore *statically
equivalent*, in the sense of representing the same beliefs. On the
other hand, the following example shows that they are not
*dynamically equivalent* in the sense of behaving in the same
way under operations of change. They can be taken to represent
different ways of holding the same beliefs.

Let

pdenote that the Liberal Party will support the proposal to subsidize the steel industry, and letqdenote that Ms. Smith, who is a liberal MP, will vote in favour of that proposal.Abe has the basic beliefs

pandq, whereas Bob has the basic beliefspandp↔q.Thus, their beliefs (on the belief set level) with respect topandqare the same.Both Abe and Bob receive and accept the information that

pis wrong, and they both revise their belief states to include the new belief that ¬p. After that, Abe has the basic beliefs ¬pandq, whereas Bob has the basic beliefs ¬pandp↔q. Now, their belief sets are no longer the same. Abe believes thatqwhereas Bob believes that ¬q.

(In belief set models, cases like these are taken care of by
assuming that although Abe's and Bob's belief states are represented by
the same belief set, this belief set is associated with different
selection mechanisms in the two cases. Abe has a selection mechanism
that gives priority to *q* over *p* ↔ *q*,
whereas Bob's selection mechanism has the opposite priorities.)

There is only one inconsistent belief set (logically closed inconsistent set), namely the whole language. On the other hand there are, in any non-trivial logic, many different inconsistent belief bases. Therefore, belief bases make it possible to distinguish between different inconsistent belief states.

In belief revision theory it has mostly been taken for granted that
belief sets correspond to a coherentist epistemology, whereas belief
bases represent foundationalism. However, the logical relationships
among the elements of a logically closed set do not adequately
represent epistemic coherence. Although coherentists typically claim
that *all* beliefs contribute to the justification of other
beliefs, they hardly mean this to apply to merely derived beliefs such
as “either Paris or Rome is the capital of France”, that
one believes only because one believes Paris to be the capital of
France. Therefore, the distinction between operations on belief bases
and operations on belief sets should not be equated with that between
foundationalism and coherentism.

### 5.2 Belief base contraction

Partial meet contraction, as defined in Section 2.1, is equally
applicable to belief bases. Note that *A*⊥*p* is the
set of maximal subsets of *A* that do not imply *p*, it
is not sufficient that they do not contain *p*. Hence
{*p*
∨
*q*, *p*
↔ *q*} ⊥*p* = {{*p*
∨
*q*}, {*p* ↔ *q*}}.

Most of the basic postulates for partial meet contraction on belief sets hold for belief bases as well. However, Recovery does not hold for partial meet contraction of belief bases. This can be seen from the following example (that is adopted from Isaac Levi (2004) who used it for other purposes:

Let the belief set

Kinclude both a belief that the coin was tossed (c) and a belief that it landed heads (h). The epistemic agent wishes to consider whether on the supposition that the coin had been tossed, it would have landed heads. In order to do that, it would seem reasonable to removecfrom the belief set and then reinsert it, i.e. to perform the series of operationsK÷c+c.(1) If partial meet contraction is performed directly on the belief set, then it follows from Recovery that

h∈K÷c+c, i.e.hcomes back withc. This is contrary to reasonable intuitions.(2) If partial meet contraction is instead performed on a belief base for

K, then recovery can be avoided. Let the belief base be {p_{1},…p,_{n}c,h}, where the background beliefsp_{1},…pare unrelated to_{n}candh, whereashlogically impliesc. ThenK= Cn({p_{1},…p,_{n}c,h}). Sincehimpliesc, it will have to go whencis removed, so thatK÷c= Cn({p_{1},…p}). When_{n}cis reinserted, the outcome is (K÷c)+c= Cn({p_{1},…p,_{n}c}) that does not containh, as desired.

The following representation theorem has been obtained for partial
meet contraction on belief bases (Hansson 1999). An operator ÷
is an operator of partial meet contraction for a set *A* if and
only if it satisfies the following four postulates:

Success: Ifp∉ Cn(∅), thenp∉ Cn(A÷p).

Inclusion:A÷p⊆A

Relevance: Ifq∈Aandq∉A÷p, then there is a setA′ such thatA÷p⊆A′ ⊆Aand thatp∉ Cn(A′) butp∈ Cn(A′∪{q}).

Uniformity: If it holds for all subsetsA′ ofAthatp∈ Cn(A′) if and only ifq∈ Cn(A′), thenA÷p=A÷q.

The Relevance postulate has much the same function as Recovery has for belief sets, namely to prevent unnecessary losses of beliefs.

An alternative approach to contraction of belief bases has been
proposed under the name *kernel contraction*. For any sentence
*p*, a *p*-kernel is a minimal *p*-implying set,
i.e. a set that implies *p* but has no proper subset that
implies *p*. A contraction operation ÷ can be based on
the simple principle that no *p*-kernel should be included in
*A*÷*p*. This can be obtained with an incision
function, a function that selects at least one element from each
*p*-kernel for removal. An operation that removes exactly those
elements that are selected for removal by an incision function is
called an operation of kernel contraction. It turns out that all
partial meet contractions on belief bases are kernel contractions, but
the converse relationship does not hold, i.e. there are kernel
contractions that are not partial meet contractions. In other words,
kernel contraction is a generalization of partial meet contraction.

### 5.3 Belief base revision

The expansion operator for belief sets, *K*+*p* =
Cn(*K*∪{*p*}), was constructed to ensure that the
outcome is logically closed. This is not desirable for belief bases,
and therefore expansion on belief bases must be different from
expansion on belief sets. For any belief base *A* and sentence
*p*, *A* +′ *p*, the
(*non*-*closing*) *expansion* of *A* by
*p* is the set *A*∪{*p*}.

Just like the corresponding operators for belief sets, revision
operators for belief bases can be constructed out of two
suboperations: expansion by *p* and contraction by
¬*p*. According to the Levi identity (*A***p*
= (*A*÷ ¬*p*)+′ *p*), the
contractive suboperation should take place first. Alternatively, the
two suboperations may take place in reverse order,
*A***p* = (*A*+′*p*) ÷
¬*p*. This latter possibility does not exist for belief
sets. If *K*∪{*p*} is inconsistent, then
*K*+*p* is always the same (namely identical to the
whole language) independently of the identity of *K* and of
*p*, so that all distinctions are lost. For belief bases, this
limitation is not present, and thus there are two distinct ways to
base revision on contraction and expansion:

Internal revision: A*p= (A÷ ¬p) +′p

External revision: A*p= (A+′p) ÷ ¬p

Intuitively, external revision by *p* is revision with an
*intermediate inconsistent state* in which both *p* and
¬*p* are believed, whereas internal revision has an
*intermediate non-committed state* in which neither *p*
nor ¬*p* is believed. External and internal revision differ
in their logical properties, and neither of them can be subsumed under
the other.

### 5.4 Connections between belief bases and belief sets

An operator of contraction on a belief base gives rise to an operator
of contraction on its corresponding belief set. Let *A* be a
belief base and *K* = Cn(*A*) its corresponding belief
set. Furthermore, let − be an operator of contraction on
*A*. It gives rise to an operator ÷ of
*base-generated contraction* on *K*, such that for all
sentences *p*: *K*÷*p* =
Cn(*A*−*p*). Base-generated contraction has been
axiomatically characterized. An operator ÷ on a consistent
belief set *K* is generated by an operator of partial meet
contraction for some finite base for *K* if and only if it
satisfies the following eight postulates:

Closure:K÷p= Cn(K÷p)

Success: Ifp∉ Cn(∅), thenp∉ Cn(K÷p).

Inclusion:K÷p⊆K

Vacuity: Ifp∉ Cn(K), thenK÷p=K.

Extensionality: Ifp↔q∈ Cn(∅), thenK÷p=K÷q.

Finitude: There is a finite setXsuch that for every sentencep,K÷p= Cn(X′) for someX′ ⊆X.

Symmetry: If it holds for allrthatK÷r⊢pif and only ifK÷r⊢q, thenK÷p=K÷q.

Conservativity:IfK÷qis not a subset ofK÷p, then there is somersuch thatK÷p⊆K÷r⊬pandK÷r∪K÷q⊢p.

Operators of revision on a belief set can be base-generated in the same sense as operators of contraction.

## 6. Other operations

The AGM framework has been extended in many ways. Some of these extensions have taken the form of the introducing of new types of operators in addition to the three standard types in AGM, namely contraction, expansion, and revision.

### 6.1 Update

There are two types of reasons why the epistemic agent may wish to add new information to the belief set. One is that she has received new information about the world, the other that the world has changed. It is common to reserve the term “revision” for the first of these types, and use the term “updating” for the second. The logic of updating differs from that of revision. This can be seen from the following example:

To begin with, the agent knows that there is either a book on the table (

p) or a magazine on the table (q), but not both.Case 1: The agent is told that there is a book on the table. She concludes that there is no magazine on the table. This is revision.

Case 2: The agent is told that after the first information was given, a book has been put on the table. In this case she should not conclude that there is no magazine on the table. This is updating.

One useful approach to updating is to assign time indices to the
sentences, as proposed by Katsuno and Mendelzon (1992). Then the
belief set will not consist of sentences *p* but of pairs
<*p*,*t*_{1}> of a sentence *p* and
a point in time *t*_{1}, signifying that *p*
holds at *t*_{1}. In the book-and-magazine example, let
*t*_{1} denote the point in time that the first
statement refers to, and *t*_{2} the moment when the
second information was given in Case 2. The original belief set
contained the pair <¬(*p*↔
*q*),*t*_{1}>. (¬(*p*↔
*q*) is the exclusive disjunction of *p* and
*q*.) Revision by *p* can be represented by the
incorporation of <*p*,*t*_{1}>, and
updating by *p* by the incorporation of <
*p*,*t*_{2}> into the belief set. It follows
quite naturally that <¬*q*,*t*_{1}> is
implied by the revised belief set but not by the updated belief
set.

### 6.2 Consolidation

If a belief base is inconsistent, then it can be made consistent by
removing enough of its more dispensable elements. This operation is
called consolidation. The consolidation of a belief base *A* is
denoted *A*!. A plausible way to perform consolidation is to
contract by falsum (contradiction), i.e. *A*! =
*A*÷⊥.

Unfortunately, this recipe for consolidation of inconsistent belief bases does not have a plausible counterpart for inconsistent belief sets. The reason is that since belief revision operates within classical logic, there is only one inconsistent belief set. Once an inconsistent belief set has been obtained, all distinctions have been lost, and consolidation cannot restore them.

### 6.3 Semi-revision

By non-prioritized belief change is meant a process in which new
information is received, and weighed against old information, with no
special priority assigned to the new information due to its novelty. A
(modified) revision operator that operates in this way is called a
semi-revision operator. Semi-revision of *K* by a sentence
*p* can be denoted *K*?*p*. A sentence *p*
that contradicts previous beliefs is accepted only if it has more
epistemic value than the original beliefs that contradict it. In that
case, enough of the previous sentences are deleted to make the
resulting set consistent. Otherwise, the input is itself rejected.

One way to construct semi-revision on a belief base *A* is to
let it consist of two suboperations:

(1) Expand

Abyp.(2) Restore consistency by giving up either

por some original belief(s)

This amounts to defining semi-revision in terms of expansion and consolidation:

A?p= (A+′p)!

This identity cannot be used for belief sets. Since all inconsistent
belief sets are identical, an operator ? such that
*K*?*p* = (*K*+*p*)! will have the
extremely implausible property that if ¬*p*_{1}
∈ *K*_{1} and ¬*p*_{2} ∈
*K*_{2}, then
*K*_{1}?*p*_{1} =
*K*_{2}?*p*_{2}. However, other ways to
perform semirevision on belief sets have been proposed, in particular,
the following two-step process:

(1) Decide whether the input

pshould be accepted or rejected.(2) If

pwas accepted, revise byp.

A simple way to apply this recipe is David Makinson's (1997)
*screened revision*, in which there is a set *X* of
potential core beliefs that are immune to revision. The belief set
*K* should be revised by the input sentence *p* if
*p* is consistent with the set *X*∩*K* of
actual core beliefs, otherwise not. The second step of screened
revision is a revision of *K* by *p*, but with the
restriction that no element of *X*∩*K* is allowed to
be removed.

Another variant of the same recipe is called *credibility-limited
revision*. It is based on the assumption that some inputs are
accepted, others not. Those that are accepted form the set C of
credible sentences. If *p* ∈ C, then *K*?*p*
= *K***p*. Otherwise, *K*?*p*
= *K*. This construction can be further specified by choosing
a revision operator and assigning properties to the set C. A variety
of such constructions have been investigated (Hansson *et
al*. 2001).

### 6.4 Selective revision

Selective revision is a generalization of semi-revision. In
semi-revision, the input information is either rejected or fully
accepted. In selective revision, it is possible for only a part of the
input information to be accepted. An operator o of selective revision
can be constructed from a standard revision operator * and a
transformation function *f* from and to sentences:

Kp=K*f(p)

In the intended cases, *f*(*p*) does not contain any
information that is not contained in *p*. This is ensured if
*f*(*p*) is a logical consequence of *p*. By
adding further conditions on *f*, various additional properties
can be obtained for the operator of selective revision.

### 6.5 Shielded contraction

In shielded contraction, the success postulate of contraction is not
universally satisfied. This postulate requires that all
non-tautological beliefs are retractable. This is not a fully realistic
requirement, since actual agents are known to have beliefs of a
non-logical nature that nothing can bring them to give up. In shielded
contraction, some non-tautological beliefs cannot be given up; they are
shielded from contraction. Shielded contraction can be based on an
ordinary contraction operator ÷ and a set *R* of
retractable sentences. If *p* ∈ *R*, then
*K*−*p* = *K*÷*p*. Otherwise,
*K*−*p* = *K*.

This construction can be further specified by adding various
requirements on the structure of *R*. Close connections have
been shown to hold between shielded contraction and semi-revision.
(Fermé and Hansson 2001)

### 6.6 Replacement

By replacement is meant an operation that replaces one sentence by
another in a belief set. It is an operation with two variables, such
that [*p*/*q*] replaces
*p* by *q*. Hence,
*K*[*p*/*q*] is a
belief set that contains *q* but not *p*.

Replacement aims both at the removal of a sentence *p* and
the addition of a sentence *q*. This amounts to two success
conditions,
*p*∉*K*[*p*/*q*]
and
*q*∈*K*[*p*/*q*].
However, these two conditions cannot both be satisfied without
exception. First, just as for belief contraction, an exception must be
made from the first of them in the case when *p* is a tautology
and so cannot be removed. Secondly, the two conditions are not
compatible in cases when *q* logically implies *p*. This
can be dealt with by extending the exception that is provided for in
the success postulate for contraction from cases when *p* ∈
Cn(∅) to cases when *p* ∈Cn({*q*}). This
gives rise to the following two success conditions:

Contractive success: Ifp∉ Cn({q}), thenp∉ Cn(K[p/q]).

Revision success:q∈K[p/q]

A replacement operation can be constructed by combining contraction
and expansion. The outcome
*K*[*p*/*q*] of
replacing *p* by *q* should be a consistent set that
contains *q* but not *p*. Thus a subset of *K*
needs to be found, to which *q* can be added without *p*
being reintroduced. This is equivalent to requiring that this subset of
*K* does not imply *q*→*p*. Such a subset can
be obtained by contracting by *q*→*p*:

K[p/q] =K÷ (q→p)+q

Replacement can also be used as a kind of “Sheffer
stroke” for belief revision, i.e. as an operator in terms of
which the other operations can be defined. Contraction by *p*
can be defined as
*K*[*p*/⊤]
and revision by *p* as
*K*[⊥/*p*], where ⊥ is falsum and
⊤
is tautology. Provided that the unperformable suboperation of
removing the tautology
⊤
is treated as an empty suboperation, expansion by *p* can be
defined as
*K*[⊤/*p*].

In both positions of the replacement operator, tautology gives rise
to an empty suboperation. (Removal of
⊤
is empty since
⊤
cannot be removed. Addition of
⊤
is empty since
⊤
is already in the belief set.) Therefore, it may be instructive to
omit
⊤
in the operator. Then [*p*/ ] denotes
contraction, [ /*q*] expansion, and
[⊥/*q*] revision.

### 6.7 Multiple contraction and revision

By multiple contraction is meant the simultaneous contraction of more than one sentence. Similarly, multiple revision is revision by more than one sentence.

There are two major types of multiple contraction. In *package
contraction*, all elements of the input set are retracted: they
have to go in a package. In *choice contraction* it suffices to
remove at least one of them. Hence, the success conditions for the two
types of multiple contraction are as follows:

Package success: IfB∩Cn(∅) = ∅ thenB∩Cn(A÷B) = ∅

Choice success: IfBis not a subset of Cn(∅), thenBis not either a subset of Cn(A÷B).

Partial meet contraction and kernel contraction can both be generalized fairly straight-forwardly to both package and choice variants of multiple contraction.

The construction of package revision gives rise to an interesting
extension of the notion of negation. The reason why contraction by
¬*p* is performed as a suboperation of revision by
*p* is that *p* can be consistently added to a set if and
only if it does not imply ¬*p*. It turns out that (in a
logic satisfying compactness) a set *B* can be consistently
added to another set if and only if this other set does not contain any
element of the set ¬*B*, that is defined as follows:

Negation of a set: p∈ ¬Bif and only ifpis either a negation of an element ofB∪{⊤} or a disjunction of negations of elements ofB∪{⊤}.

Therefore multiple revision can be defined from (package) multiple contraction and expansion via a generalized Levi identity:

K*B= (K÷¬B)+B

Most of the major AGM-related contraction operators have been
generalized to multiple contraction: multiple partial meet contraction
(Hansson 1989, Fuhrmann and Hansson 1994, Li 1998), multiple kernel
contraction (Fermé *et al*. 2003), multiple specified meet
contraction (Hansson 2010), and a multiple version of Grove's sphere
system (Reis and Fermé 2011, Fermé and Reis 2011).

### 6.8 Indeterministic belief change

Most models of belief change are *deterministic* in the sense
that given a belief set and an input, the resulting belief set is
well-determined. There is no scope for chance in selecting the new
belief set. Clearly, this is not a realistic feature, but it makes the
models much simpler and easier to handle, not least from a
computational point of view. In *indeterministic* belief change,
the subjection of a specified belief set to a specified input has more
than one admissible outcome.

Indeterministic operations can be constructed as sets of deterministic operations. Hence, given three revision operators *, *′ and *′′ the set {*, *′, *′′} can be used as an indeterministic operator. The success condition is simply:

K{*, *′, *′′}p∈{K*p,K*′p,K*′′p}

Lindström and Rabinowicz (1991) constructed indeterministic contraction by giving up the assumption that epistemic entrenchment satisfies connectedness. This resulted in Grove's sphere systems with “fallbacks” that are not linearly ordered but still all include the original belief set.

### 6.9 Operations for an extended language

Belief revision theory has been almost exclusively developed within the framework of classical sentential (truth-functional) logic. The inclusion of non-truthfunctional expressions into the language has interesting and indeed drastic effects. In particular, this applies to conditional sentences.

Many types of conditional sentences, such as counterfactual
conditionals, cannot be adequately expressed with truth-functional
implication (material implication). Several formal interpretations of
conditional sentences have been proposed. One of them, namely the
*Ramsey test*, is particularly well suited to the formal
framework of belief revision. It is based on a suggestion by F. P.
Ramsey that has been further developed by Robert Stalnaker and others
(Stalnaker 1968). The basic idea is that “if *p* then
*q*” is taken to be believed if and only if *q*
would be believed after revising the present belief state by
*p*. Let *p*⇒*q* denote “if *p*
then *q*”, or more precisely: “if *p* were
the case, then *q* would be the case”. In order to treat
conditional statements on par with statements about actual facts, they
will have to be included in the belief set, thus:

TheRamsey test: (p⇒q)∈Kif and only ifq∈K*p.

However, inclusion in the belief set of conditionals that satisfy
the Ramsey test will require radical changes in the logic of belief
change. As one example of this, contraction cannot then satisfy the
inclusion postulate (*K*÷*p* ⊆ *K*).
The reason for this is that contraction typically provides support for
conditional sentences that were not supported by the original belief
state. This can be seen from the following example:

If I give up my belief that John is mentally retarded, then I gain support for the conditional sentence “If John has lived 30 years in London, then John understands the English language.”

A famous impossibility theorem by Peter Gärdenfors (1986, 1987) shows that the Ramsey test is incompatible with a set of plausible postulates for revision. Several solutions to the impossibility theorem have been put forward. One option is to reject the Ramsey test as a criterion for the validity of conditional sentences (Rott 1986). Another, proposed by Isaac Levi, is to accept the test as a criterion of validity but deny that such conditional sentences should be included in the belief set when they are valid (Levi 1988. Arló-Costa 1995. Arló-Costa and Levi 1996). Several other proposals have been put forward. However, it is fair to say that operations of belief change have not yet been constructed that are generally recognized as able to deal adequately with conditional or modal sentences.

### 6.10 Changes in the strength of beliefs

An operation of change can raise or lower the position of a sentence
in the ordering without affecting the belief set (but affecting how
the belief state responds to new inputs). An operator
of *improvement*, as proposed by Konieczny and Pérez
(2008) increases the plausibility of a sentence *p* by moving
some of the *p*-worlds to a higher position in the preference
ordering of worlds. Even if such a change does not lead to *p*
becoming a belief, its acceptance in later, additional operations can
be facilitated.

An operation of change can be so constructed that it adjusts the
position of the input sentence in an ordering to be the same as that
of a reference sentence. This means that two sentences have to be
specified in the input: the (input) sentence to be moved and the
(reference) sentence indicating its new position. Hans Rott (2007,
Other Internet Resources) called such operators two-dimensional. John
Cantwell (1997) classified them as *raising*
or *lowering*, depending on the direction of change. (See also
Fermé and Rott 2004 and Rott 2009.)

### 6.11 Changes in norms and preferences

There are close parallels between changes in norms and changes in beliefs. In order to apply a norm system with conflicting norms to a particular situation, some of the norms may have to be ignored. The problem of how to prioritize among conflicting norms is similar to the selection of sentences for removal in belief contraction (Hansson and Makinson 1997). The AGM model was in fact partly the outcome of attempts to formalize changes in norms rather than beliefs (Alchourrón and Makinson 1981). In spite of this, authors who apply the AGM model to norms have found it in need of rather extensive modifications to make it suitable for that purpose. Hence, in their model of changes in legislation, Governatori and Rotolo (2010) introduced an explicit representation of time in order to account for phenomena such as retroactivity.

A model of changes in preferences can be obtained by replacing the
standard AGM language by sentences of the form *p*
≥ *q* (“ *p* is at least as good
as *q*”) and their truth-functional combinations. The
adoption of a new preference can then take the form of revision by
such a preference sentence. Partial meet contraction can be used, but
some modifications of the AGM model seem to be necessary in
applications to preferences (Hansson 1995, Lang and van der Torre
2008, Grüne-Yanoff and Hansson 2009).

## 7. Repeated change

The preceding sections have only dealt with changes of one and the
same belief set or belief base. This is clearly a severe limitation. A
realistic model of belief change should allow for repeated (iterated)
changes, such as
*K*÷*p*÷*q***r***s*÷*
t*… In other words, operators are needed that can contract
or revise any belief set (belief base) by any sentence. Such operators
are called *global*, in contrast to *local* operators
that are defined only for a single specified set.

An obvious way to obtain a global operator of *partial meet
contraction* would be to use the same selection function for all
sets to be contracted. However, this is not possible, due to the way
selection functions treat the empty set. The way selection functions
have been defined, if *A*⊥*p* = ∅, then
γ(*A*⊥*p* ) = {*A*}. As a consequence
of this, if γ is a selection function for *A*, and
*A* ≠ *B*, then γ is not a selection function
for *B*. For let *A*⊥*p* =
*B*⊥*p* = ∅. For γ to be a function it
must be the case that
γ(*A*⊥*p*) =
γ(*B*⊥*p*).
For γ to be a selection
function for *A* it must be case that
γ(*A*⊥*p*) = {*A*}, and in order for it
to be a selection function for *B* it must be the case that
γ(*B*⊥*p*) = {*B*}. Since *A*
≠ *B*, this is impossible.

Therefore, a global operator of partial meet contraction must apply
different selection functions to different belief sets (belief bases).
A convenient way to achieve this is to introduce two-place selection
functions. A two-place selection function γ has two argument
places, one for the belief set (belief base) and one for the remainder
set. γ(*A*, *A*⊥*p*) is a subset of
*A*⊥*p* if the latter is non-empty, otherwise it is
equal to *A*. Some formal results on global operations based on
two-place selections functions have been obtained.

*Epistemic* *entrenchment* has an advantage that makes
it one of the more promising approaches to repeated belief change,
namely what may be called the *self-sufficiency* of entrenchment
orderings. Given an entrenchment ordering ≤ for a belief set
*K*, *K* can be “recovered” from ≤ via the
simple identity:

K= {q|r<qfor somer}

Contractions and revisions can therefore be performed on
entrenchment orderings rather than on belief sets. Thus, given a belief
set *K* and an entrenchment ordering ≤ for *K*, when
contracting by a sentence *p* the outcome should be a new
entrenchment ordering ≤′. It automatically provides a new
belief set, namely the set {*q* |
*r*<′*q* for some *r*}. If the operation
has been successful, then this new belief set should not contain
*p*.

It has turned out to be quite difficult to construct a satisfactory
method to contract or revise an entrenchment ordering. The most
interesting proposals involve a rather radical departure from the
traditional AGM framework in which epistemic entrenchment is usually
discussed. Hence, Abhaya Nayak (1994) has proposed that not only the
belief states but also the inputs should be binary relations (that
satisfy the standard entrenchment postulates except
Minimality). Inputs of this type may be seen as
“fragments” of belief states, to be incorporated into the
previous belief state. In the same vein, Eduardo Fermé and Hans
Rott (2004) have investigated belief revision with inputs of the more
general form: “accept *q* with a degree of plausibility
that at least equals that of *p*”. They call this
*revision by comparison*. Belief states are represented by
entrenchment orderings. Hence, from an entrenchment ordering ≤ and
such a generalized input a new entrenchment ordering ≤′ is
obtained that contains the information needed to construct the new
belief set.

As this example illustrates, many of the more recent developments in belief change show a need to go beyond the expressive power of the AGM model, but that model is still the standard model to which all other models of belief change are compared.

## Bibliography

Citations annotated in gray refer to books or articles that are recommended for further introductory reading.

- Alchourrón, C.E., P. Gärdenfors, and D. Makinson,
1985, “On the Logic of Theory Change: Partial Meet Contraction
and Revision Functions”,
*Journal of Symbolic Logic*, 50: 510–530.

[The starting-point for all subsequent studies of belief revision.] - Alchourrón, C.E. and D. Makinson, 1981, “Hierarchies
of Regulation and Their Logic”, in R. Hilpinen (ed.),
*New Studies in Deontic Logic*, Dordrecht: D. Reidel Publishing Company, pp. 125–148. - Alchourrón, C.E. and D. Makinson, 1982, “On the
logic of theory change: Contraction functions and their associated
revision functions”,
*Theoria*, 48: 14–37. - Arló-Costa, H., 1995, “Epistemic conditionals, snakes
and stars”, in G. Crocco, L. Fariñas del Cerro, and
A. Herzig (eds.),
*Conditionals: from Philosophy to Computer Science*,*Studies in Logic and Computation*(Volume 5), Oxford: Oxford University Press. - Arló-Costa, H. and I. Levi, 1996, “Two notions of
epistemic validity”,
*Synthese*, 109: 217–262. - Cantwell, J., 1997, “On the logic of small changes in
hypertheories”,
*Theoria*, 63: 54–89. - –––, 1999, “Some logics of iterated
revision”,
*Studia Logica*, 7: 49–84.

[Iterated revision.] - Doyle, J., 1979, “A Truth Maintenance System”,
*Artificial Intelligence*, 12: 231–272. - Fagin, R., J.D. Ullman, and M.Y. Vardi, 1983, “On the
semantics of updates in databases”,
*Proceedings of Second ACM SIGACT-SIGMOD*, pp. 352-365. - Fermé, E. and S.O. Hansson, 2001, “Shielded
Contraction”, pp. 85–107 in H. Rott and M.-A. Williams (eds.),
*Frontiers of Belief Revision*, Dordrecht: Kluwer. - –––, 2011, “AGM 25
years. Twenty-Five Years of Research in Belief
Change”,
*Journal of Philosophical Logic*, 40: 295–331.

[Overview of results from studies of belief revision in the AGM tradition.] - Fermé, Eduardo and Maurício D.L. Reis, 2011,
“System of Spheres-based Multiple
Contractions”,
*Journal of Philosophical Logic*, in press. - Fermé, E. and H. Rott, 2004, “Revision by
comparison”,
*Artificial Intelligence*, 157: 5–47. - Fermé, E., K. Saez, and P. Sanz, 2003, “Multiple
Kernel Contraction”,
*Studia Logica*, 73: 183–195. - Fuhrmann, A. and S.O. Hansson, 1994, “A Survey of Multiple
Contraction”,
*Journal of Logic, Language and Information*, 3: 39–74.

[Multiple contraction] - Gärdenfors, P., 1978, “Conditionals and Changes of
Belief”,
*Acta Philosophica Fennica*, 30: 381–404. - –––, 1981, “An Epistemic Approach to
Conditionals”,
*American Philosophical Quarterly*, 18: 203–211. - –––, 1986, “Belief Revision and the Ramsey
Test for Conditionals”,
*Philosophical Review*, 95: 81–93.

[The Ramsey Test.] - –––, 1987, “Variations on the Ramsey Test:
More triviality results”,
*Studia Logica*, 46: 319–325. - –––, 1988,
*Knowledge in Flux. Modeling the Dynamics of Epistemic States*, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.

[The AGM model.] - –––, 2011, “Notes on the history of ideas
behind AGM”,
*Journal of Philosophical Logic*, 40: 115–120. - Gärdenfors, P., and D. Makinson, 1988, “Revisions of
Knowledge Systems Using Epistemic Entrenchment”,
*Second Conference on Theoretical Aspects of Reasoning about Knowledge*, pp. 83–95. - Governatori, G. and A. Rotolo, 2010, “Changing legal
systems: legal abrogations and annulments in Defeasible
Logic”,
*Logic Journal of IGPL*, 18: 157–194. - Grove, A., 1988, “Two Modellings for Theory Change”,
*Journal of Philosophical Logic*, 17: 157–170.

[The propositional model of belief change.] - Grüne-Yanoff, T. and S.O. Hansson, 2009, “From Belief
Revision to Preference Change”, in
T. Grüne-Yanoff and S.O. Hansson (eds.),
*Preference Change: Approaches from Philosophy, Economics and Psychology*, Berlin: Springer, pp. 159–184. - Hansson, S.O., 1989, “New Operators for Theory
Change”,
*Theoria*, 55: 114–132. - –––, 1995, “Changes in
Preference“,
*Theory and Decision*, 38: 1–28. - –––, 1999,
*A Textbook of Belief Dynamics. Theory Change and Database Updating*, Dordrecht: Kluwer.

[Contains more details, and references, on most of the topics treated in this entry.] - –––, 2003, “Ten Philosophical Problems in Belief
Revision”,
*Journal of Logic and Computation*, 13: 37–49.

[Connections between belief revision and issues in informal philosophy.] - –––, 2010, “Multiple and Iterated Contraction
Reduced to Single-Step Single-Sentence
Contraction”,
*Synthese*, 173: 153–177. - Hansson, S.O., Fermé, E., Cantwell, J., and Falappa, M.,
2001, “Credibility-Limited Revision”,
*Journal of Symbolic Logic*, 66: 1581–1596.

[Non-prioritized belief revision.] - Hansson, S.O. and D. Makinson, 1997, “Applying Normative
rules with restraint”, in M.L. Dalla Chiara,
*et al*. (eds.),*Logic and Scientific Method*, Dordrecht: Kluwer Academic Publishers, pp 313–332. - Harper, W., 1977, “Rational Conceptual Change”,
*PSA 1976*, pp. 462–494. - Katsuno, H., and A.O. Mendelzon, 1992, “On the Difference
between Updating a Knowledge Base and Revising it”, in
P. Gärdenfors (ed.),
*Belief Revision*, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press pp. 183–203 - Konieczny, S. and R. P. Pérez, 2008, “Improvement
Operators“,
*Eleventh International Conference on Principles of Knowledge Representation and Reasoning (KR08)*, pp. 177–186. - Lang, J. and L. van der Torre, 2008, “From Belief Change to
Preference Change”, in M. Ghallab, C.D. Spyropoulos,
N. Fakotakis, and N.M. Avouris (eds.),
*ECAI 2008 – Proceedings of the 18th European Conference on Artificial Intelligence, Patras, Greece, July 21–25, 2008*(Frontiers in Artificial Intelligence and Applications: Volume 178), pp. 351–355. - Levi, I., 1977, “Subjunctives, Dispositions and
Chances”,
*Synthese*, 34: 423–455. - –––, 1980,
*The Enterprise of Knowledge*, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press. - –––, 1988, “Iteration of conditionals and the Ramsey
test”,
*Synthese*, 76: 49–81. - –––, 1991,
*The Fixation of Belief and Its Undoing*, Cambridge, MA: Cambridge University Press. - –––, 2004,
*Mild Contraction. Evaluating Loss of Information due to Loss of Belief*, Oxford: Clarendon Press. - Li, J., 1998, “A Note on Partial Meet Package
Contraction”,
*Journal of Logic, Language and Information*, 7: 139–142. - Lindström, S. and W. Rabinowicz, 1991, “Epistemic
entrenchment with incomparabilities and relational belief
revision”, in A. Fuhrmann and M. Morreau (eds.),
*The Logic of Theory Change*, Berlin: Springer, pp. 93–126. - Makinson, D., 1997, “Screened Revision”,
*Theoria*, 63 (1–2): 14–23. - –––, 2003, “Ways of doing logic: what was new about
AGM 1985”,
*Journal of Logic and Computation*, 13: 5–15. - Nayak, A. C., 1994, “Iterated Belief Change Based on
Epistemic Entrenchment”,
*Erkenntnis*, 41: 353–390. - Reis, M.D.L. and E. Fermé, 2011, “Possible Worlds
Semantics for Partial Meet Multiple Contraction”,
*Journal of Philosophical Logic*, in press. - Rott, H., 1986, “Ifs, though and
because”,
*Erkenntnis*, 25: 345–37. - –––, 2001,
*Change, choice and inference. A study of belief revision and nonmonotonic reasoning*, Oxford: Clarendon Press.

[The relation between belief change and rational choice.] - –––, 2009, “Shifting Priorities: Simple Representations
for Twenty-seven Iterated Theory Change Operators”,
in D. Makinson, J. Malinowski and H. Wansing (eds.)
*Towards Mathematical Philosophy*(Trends in Logic: Volume 28), Berlin: Springer, pp. 269–296. - Rott, H. and M. Pagnucco, 2000, “Severe Withdrawal (and
Recovery)”,
*Journal of Philosophical Logic*, 29: 501–547. - Stalnaker, R., 1968, “A Theory of Conditionals”, in
N. Rescher (ed.),
*Studies in Logical Theory*, Oxford: Blackwell, pp. 98–112.

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## Other Internet Resources

- Rott, H., 2007, “Bounded Revision: Two Dimensional Belief Change Between Conservative and Moderate Revision”, in T. Rønnow-Rasmussen, B. Petersson, J. Josefsson and D. Egonsson, Hommage à Wlodek, Philosophical Papers Dedicated to Wlodek Rabinowicz.