# Connexive Logic

*First published Fri Jan 6, 2006; substantive revision Fri Aug 8, 2014*

Connexive logic is a comparatively little-known and to some extent neglected branch of non-classical logic. Systems of connexive logic are neither subsystems nor extensions of classical logic. Connexive logics have a standard logical vocabulary and comprise certain non-theorems of classical logic as theses. Since classical propositional logic is Post-complete, any additional axiom in its language gives rise to the trivial system, so that any non-trivial system of connexive logic will have to leave out some theorems of classical logic. The name ‘connexive logic’ suggests that systems of connexive logic are motivated by some ideas about coherence or connection between premises and conclusions of valid inferences or between formulas of a certain shape. The kind of coherence in question concerns the meaning of implication and negation (see the entries on conditionals and negation).

One basic idea is that no formula provably implies or is implied by
its own negation. This conception may be expressed by requiring that
for every formula *A*,

⊬ ~A→Aand ⊬A→ ~A,

but usually the underlying intuitions are expressed by requiring that certain schematic formulas are theorems:

AT: ~(~A →A) and

AT′: ~(A→~A).

The first formula is often called *Aristotle's Thesis*. If this
non-theorem of classical logic is found plausible, then the second
principle, AT′, would seem to enjoy the same degree of
plausibility. Indeed, also AT′ is sometimes referred to as
Aristotle's Thesis. As McCall (1975, 435) explains,

[c]onnexive logic may be seen as an attempt to formalize the species of implication recommended by Chrysippus:And those who introduce the notion of connection say that a conditional is sound when the contradictory of its consequent is incompatible with its antecedent. (Sextus Empiricus, translated in Kneale and Kneale 1962, p. 129.)

Using intuitionistically acceptable means only, the pair of theses AT
and AT′ is equivalent in deductive power with another pair of
schemata, which in established terminology are called (Strong)
*Boethius' Theses* and which may be viewed (in addition with
their converses) as capturing Chrysippus' idea:

BT: (A→B)→~(A →~B) and

BT′: (A→ ~B) → ~ (A→B).

The names ‘Aristotle's Theses’ and ‘Boethius'
Theses’ are, of course, not arbitrarily chosen. AT, for example,
is assumed at Aristotle's *Prior Analytics* 57b14,
where it is explained that:

It is impossible that ifA, then not-A.

Moreover, Boethius, for instance, holds that ‘if *A* then
~*B*’ is the negation of ‘if *A*, then
*B*’ (Kneale and Kneale 1962, p. 191). Additional
historical remarks may be found in Kneale and Kneale 1962, Priest
1999, Nasti De Vincentis 2002, and McCall 2012, where McCall refers to
~((*A* →*B*) ∧ (~*A* →*B*))
as *Aristotle's Second Thesis *and, following Martin 2004, to
~((*A* →*B*) ∧ (*A* →*~B*))
as *Abelard's First Principle*. Aristotle's Second Thesis and
Abelard's First Principle are interderivable with BT and with
BT′ using intuitionistic principles only.

Let *L* be a language containing a unary connective ~
(negation) and a binary connective → (implication). A logical
system in a language extending *L* is called a *connexive
logic* if AT, AT′, BT, and BT′ are theorems and,
moreover, (*A→**B*) →
(*B→**A*) fails to be a theorem (so that → can
hardly be understood as a bi-conditional). The connective → in a
system of connexive logic is said to be a *connexive
implication*. Kapsner (2012) refers to a logic that satisfies AT,
AT′, BT, and BT′ and, moreover, satisfies the requirement
that (a) in no model *A→**~A* is satisfiable (for
any *A*) and (b) in no model *A→**B* and
*A→**~B* are simultaneoulsy satisfiable (for any
*A* and *B*), as *strongly connexive*, whereas if
the conditions (a) and (b) are not both satisfied, the system is only
called *weakly connexive*.

- 1. Motivation
- 2. Systems of connexive logic
- 3. Connexive logics and consequential logics
- 4. Summary
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Motivation

### 1.1 Connexivity and relevance

Routley (1978) suggested another conception of connexive logic. If the
requirement of a connection between antecedent and succedent of a
valid implication is understood as a content connection, and if a
content connection obtains if antecedent and succedent are *relevant* to
each other, then “the general classes of connexive and relevant
logics are one and the same” (Routley 1978, p. 393), cf. also
Serenac and Jennings 2003. Since every non-trivial system of connexive
logic has to omit some classical tautologies, and since the standard
paradoxes of non-relevant, material implication can be avoided by
rejecting Conjunctive Simplification, i.e., (*A* ∧
*B*) → *A* and (*A* ∧ *B*) →
*B*, Routley requires for a connexive logic the rejection or
qualification of Conjunctive Simplification (or equivalent
schemata). If the contraposition rule and uniform substitution are
assumed, the combination of Conjunctive Simplification and Aristotle's
Theses results in inconsistency, see, for example, Woods 1968 and
Thompson 1991. Mortensen (1984) pointed out that there are
inconsistent but non-trivial systems satisfying both AT′ and
Simplification. Examples of non-trivial inconsistent systems of
connexive logic satisfying Conjunctive Simplification are presented in
Sections 2.4 and 2.5. The availablity of such connexive systems may be
appreciated in view of the fact that Zermelo-Fraenkel set theory based
on a system of connexive logic with Simplification is inconsistent,
see Wiredu 1974.

The relation between connexive logic and relevance logic can also be
seen as follows. Let *A* and *B* be contingent formulas
of classical propositional logic, i.e., formulas that are neither
constantly false nor constantly true. It is well-known that then the
following holds:

- Not: ~
*A*⊢*A* - If
*A*⊢*B*, then not:*A*⊢ ~*B* - If
*A*⊢*B*, then*A*and*B*share some propositional variable (sentence letter)

If property (iii) is generalized to arbitrary formulas *A* and
*B*, it is called the *variable sharing property* or
variable sharing principle, which is generally seen as a necessary
condition on a logic to count as a relevance logic (see the entry
logic: relevance). So-called
containment logics (also called Parry systems or systems of analytic
implication, see Parry 1933, Anderson and Belnap 1975, Fine 1986,
Ferguson 2014), satisfy the strong relevance requirement that if
⊢ *A* → *B*, then every propositional
variable of *B* is also a propositional variable of
*A*.

The variable sharing property indicates a content connection between
*A* and *B* if *B* is derivable from *A*
(or, semantically, *A* entails *B*). The properties (i)
and (ii) may be viewed to express a content connection requirement on
the derivability relation in a *negative way*. If one wants to
express these constraints in terms of the provability of object
language formulas, one naturally arrives at Aristotle's and Boethius'
Theses.

### 1.2 Other Motivation

Motivation for systems of connexive logic not only comes from
considerations about a content connection between antecedent and
succedent in valid inferences or implications, but also from more
instrumental considerations. In McCall 1967, connexive implication is
motivated by reproducing in a first-order language all valid moods of
Aristotle's syllogistic (see the entry on
Aristotle's logic).
In particular, the classically invalid
inference from ‘All *A* is *B*’ to
‘Some *A* is *B*’ is obtained by translating
‘Some *A* is *B*’ as
∃*x*(~(*A*(*x*) →
~*B*(*x*)), where → is a connexive implication. In
Wansing 2007, connexive implication is motivated by introducing a
negation connective into Categorial Grammar in order to express
negative information about membership in syntactic categories (see the
entry on typelogical grammar).
Consider, for example, the syntactic category (type)
(*n* → *s*) of intransitive verbs, i.e., of
expressions that in combination with a name (an expression of type
*n*) result in a sentence (an expression of type
*s*). The idea is that an expression is of type ~(*n*
→ *s*) iff in combination with a name it does not result
in a sentence. In other words, an expression belongs to type
~(*n* → *s*) iff it is of type (*n* →
~*s*).

According to McCall (1975, p. 451), “[o]ne of the most natural interpretations of connexive implication is as a species of physical or “causal” implication,” and in McCall (2014) he argues that “[t]he logic of causal and subjunctive conditionals is ... connexive, since ‘If X is dropped, it will hit the floor’ contradicts ‘If X is dropped, it will not hit the floor’.” Boethius' Thesis indeed appears on a list of principles every “precausal” connective should satisfy, see Urchs 1994. McCall (2012, p. 437), however, concedes that “causal logic is still very much an ongoing project, and no agreed-on formulation of it has yet been achieved.” Principles of connexive logic have been discussed in conditional logic (see the entry logic: conditional), beginning with Ramsey's (1929) comments on what is now called the Ramsey Test, as pointed out, e.g., in Ferguson 2012 and McCall 2012:

If two people are arguing “Ifpwillq?” and are both in doubt as top, they are addingphypothetically to their stock of knowledge and arguing on that basis aboutq; so that in a sense “Ifp,q” and “Ifp,~q” are contradictories“ (notation adjusted).

Abelard's First Principle, ~((*A* →*B*) ∧
(*A* →*~B*)), is considered as a principle of
conditional non-contradiction and as such is endorsed by some
philosophers, e.g., Gibbard (1981, p. 231), Lowe (1995, p. 47), and
Bennett (2003, p. 84), without making any reference to connexive
logic. Conditional non-contradiction fails, however, to be a valid
principle in the semantics suggested by Stalnaker (1968) and Lewis
(1973), cf. the discussion in Unterhuber 2013.

Another motivation for connexive logic has been presented by John
Cantwell (2008) without noting that the introduced
propositional logic is a system of connexive logic. Cantwell considers
the denial of indicative conditionals in natural language and argues
that the denial of, say, the conditional ‘If Oswald didn't kill
Kennedy, Jack Ruby did.’ amounts to the assertion that if Oswald
didn't shoot Kennedy then neither did Jack Ruby. This suggests that
(*A→*~*B*) is semantically equivalent with
~(*A→**B*).

Motivation taking up the idea of negation as cancellation and negation as falsity (cf. the entry on negation) is presented in Sections 2.3 and 2.4.

## 2. Systems of connexive logic

### 2.1 Algebraic connexive logic

Whereas the basic ideas of connexive logic are traced back to
antiquity, the search for formal systems with connexive implication
seems to have begun only in the 19th century in the work of H. MacColl
(1878), see also Rahman and Redmond 2008. The basic idea of connexive
implication was spelled out also by E. Nelson (1930), and a more
recent formal study of systems of connexive logic started in the
1960s. In McCall 1966, S. McCall presented an axiomatization of a
system of propositional connexive logic introduced by Angell (1962) in
terms of certain four-valued matrices. The language of McCall's
logic **CC1** contains as primitive (notation adjusted) a
unary connective ~ (negation) and the binary connectives ∧
(conjunction) and → (implication). Disjunction ∨ and
equivalence ↔ are defined in the usual way. The schematic axioms
and the rules of **CC1** are as follows:

A1 ( A→B) → ((B→C) → (A→C))A2 (( A→A) →B) →BA3 ( A→B) → ((A∧C) → (B∧C))A4 ( A∧A) → (B→B)A5 ( A∧ (B∧C)) → (B∧ (A∧C))A6 ( A∧A) → ((A→A) → (A∧A))A7 A→ (A∧ (A∧A))A8 (( A→ ~B) ∧B) → ~AA9 ( A∧ ~(A∧ ~B)) →BA10 ~( A∧ ~(A∧A))A11 (~ A∨ ((A→A) →A)) ∨ (((A→A) ∨ (A→A)) →A)

A12 ( A→A) → ~(A→ ~A)R1 if ⊢ Aand ⊢ (A→B), then ⊢B(modus ponens)R2 if ⊢ Aand ⊢B, then ⊢ (A∧B) (adjunction)

Among these axiom schemata, only A12 is supraclassical. The system
**CC1** is characterized by the following four-valued
truth tables with designated values 1 and 2:

~ 1 4 2 3 3 2 4 1

∧ 1 2 3 4 1 1 2 3 4 2 2 1 4 3 3 3 4 3 4 4 4 3 4 3

→ 1 2 3 4 1 1 4 3 4 2 4 1 4 3 3 1 4 1 4 4 4 1 4 1

McCall emphasizes that the logic **CC1** is only one
among many possible systems satisfying the theses of Aristotle and
Boethius. Although **CC1** *is* a system of
connexive logic, its algebraic semantics appears to be only a formal
tool with little explanatory capacity. In **CC1**, the
constant truth functions **1**, **2**,
**3**, and **4** can be defined as follows
(McCall1966, p. 421): **1** := (*p*
→*p*), **2** := ~(*p* ↔
~*p*), **3** := (*p* ↔ ~*p*),
**4** := ~(*p*→*p*), for some sentence
letter *p*. As Routley and Montgomery (1968, p. 95) point out,
**CC1** “can be given a semantics by associating the
matrix value 1 with logical necessity, value 4 with logical
impossibility, value 2 with contingent truth, and value 3 with
contingent falsehood. However, many anomalies result; e.g. the
conjunction of two contingent truths yields a necessary truth”.
Moreover, McCall points out that **CC1** has some
properties that are difficult to justify if the name ‘connexive
logic’ is meant to reflect the fact that in a valid implication
*A*→ *B* there exists some form of connection
between the antecedent *A* and the succedent *B*. Axiom
A4, for example, is bad in this respect. On the other hand,
**CC1** might be said to undergenerate, since (*A*
∧
*A*) → *A* and *A* →
(*A*
∧
*A*) fail to be theorems of **CC1**. Routley and Montgomery
(1968) showed that the addition of the latter formulas to only a
certain subsystem of **CC1** leads to inconsistency.

These observations may well have distracted many non-classical
logicians from connexive logic. If the validity of Aristotle's and
Boethius' Theses is distinctive of connexive logics, it is, however,
not quite clear how damaging the above criticism is. In order to
construct a more satisfactory system of connexive logic, McCall (1975)
defined the notions of a connexive algebra and a connexive model and
presented an axiom system **CFL** that is characterized by
the class of all connexive models. In the language of
**CFL**, however, every implication is first-degree,
i.e., no nesting of → is permitted. McCall refers to a result by
R. Meyer showing that the valid implications of **CFL**
form a subset of the set of valid material equivalences and briefly
discusses giving up the syntactic restriction to first-degree
implication. Meyer (1977) showed that the first-degree fragment of
the normal modal logic **S5** (and in fact every normal
modal logic between **KT** and **S5**,
cf. the entry logic: modal)
and **CFL** are equivalent in the following sense: all
theorems of **CFL** are provable in **S5**
if the connexive implication *A*→*B* is defined as
□(*A* ⊃ *B*) ∧ (*A*
≡ *B*), where ⊃ and ≡ are classical implication
and equivalence, respectively, and every first-degree theorem
of **S5** is provable in **CFL** if
□*A* (“it is necessary that *A*”) is
defined as (~*p* ∨ *p*)→*A*. In summary, it seems
fair to say that as the result of the investigations into connexive
logic in the 1960s and 1970s, connexive logic, its ancient roots
notwithstanding, appeared as a sort of exotic branch of non-classical
logic.

More recently, Cantwell (2008) presented a truth table semantics for a system of connexive logic together with a proof-theoretical characterization. The truth tables for negation and implication are taken from Belnap 1970. Cantwell considers a language containing the constantly false proposition ⊥ and the following three-valued truth tables for negation, conjunction, disjunction, and implication with designated values T and − (where ‘T’ stands for truth and ‘F’ for falsity):

~ T F F T − −

∧ T F − T T F − F F F F − − F −

∨ T F − T T T T F T F − − T − −

→ T F − T T F − F − − − − T F −

In this system, (*A→*~*B*) and
~(*A→**B*) have the same value under every
assignment of truth values to atomic formulas. Kaspner (2012) noticed
that Cantwell's system, although it is weakly connexive, fails to be
strongly connexive, whereas **CC1** is strongly
connexive.

McCall (2014) presents a cut-free sequent calculus for a system of
connexive logic that he calls “connexive Gentzen.” The
calculus has the non-standard feature of using pairs of axioms that
are not logical truths. An annotation with subscripts is used to
enable the elimination of dependencies on such non-standard axioms in
the course of a derivation. The resulting system differs
from **CC1** in that *p* →(*p*
∧ *p*) and (*p* ∧ *p*)→ *p*
are provable, and it is shown to be sound with respect to certain
four-valued matrices. Sound and complete cut-free sequent calculi for
certain constructive and modal connexive logics have been presented in
Kamide and Wansing 2011, see Sections 2.4–2.6.

### 2.2 Connexive logic based on ternary frames for relevance logics

In the late 1970s and the 1980s, connexive logic was subjected to
semantical investigations based on ternary frames for relevance
logics. Routley (1978) obtained a semantic characterization of
Aristotle's Thesis AT′ and Boethius' Thesis BT using a
‘generation relation’ *G* between a formula
*A* and a possible world *s*. The semantics employs
model structures
F = <*T*, *K*,
*R*, *S*, *U*, *G*, *>, where *K*
is a non-empty set of possible worlds, *T* ∈ *K* is
a distinguished world (the ‘real world’), *R*,
*S*, and *U* are ternary relations on *K*,
*G* is a generation relation, and * is a function on *K*
mapping every world *s* to its ‘opposite’ or
‘reverse’ *s**. A valuation is a function
*v* that sends pairs of worlds and propositional variables into
{0,1}, satisfying the following heredity condition: if
*R*(*T*, *s*, *u*) and *v*(*p*,
*s*) = 1, then *v*(*p*, *u*) =
1. Intuitively, *G*(*A*, *t*) is supposed to mean that
everything that holds in world *t* is implied by *A*. A
model is a structure
M =
<F, *v*>. The relation
M, *t*
⊨ *A* (“*A* is true
at *t* in
M”) is inductively defined as follows:

M,t⊨piffv(p,t) = 1

M,t⊨ ~Aiff M,t* ⊭A

M,t⊨ (A∧B) iff there ares,uwithStsuM,s⊨Aand M,u⊨B

M,t⊨ (A∨B) iff there ares,uwithUtsuM,s⊨Aor M,u⊨B

M,t⊨ (A→B) iff for alls,uifRtsuand M,s⊨A, then M,u⊨B

[Note: whenever there is little chance for ambiguity, we replace
*R*(*x*, *y*, *z*) by
*R**x**y**z*.]

Moreover, it is required that for every formula *A* and world
*t*, *G*(*A*, *t*) implies
M, *t*
⊨ *A*. A formula
*A* is true in model
M iff
M, *T*
⊨ *A*, and *A* is
valid with respect to a class of models if *A* is true in all
models from that class. AT′ is semantically characterized by the
following property of models: ∃*t*
(*R*(*T**, *t*, *t**) and
*G*(*A*, *t*)), and BT is characterized by
∀*w*∃*s*, *t*, *u*
(*R*(*w*, *s*, *t*),
*R*(*w**, *s*, *u*),
*G*(*A*, *s*), and
*R*(*T*, *t*, *u**)).

Mortensen (1984), who considers AT′, explains that Routley's
characterization of AT′ is “not particularly intuitively
enlightening” and points out that in certain logics with a ternary
relational models semantics another characterization of AT′ is
available, namely the condition that for every model
M
the set C_{A} := {*s* :
M, *s*
⊨ *A* and
M, *s*
⊭ ~*A*} is
non-empty. Like Routley's non-recursive requirement that
*G*(*A*, *t*) implies
M, *t*
⊨ *A*, Mortensen's
condition is not a purely structural condition, since it mentions the
truth relation
⊨. Mortensen (1984, p. 114)
maintains that the condition *C*_{A} ≠
∅ “is closest to the way we think of Aristotle”, and emphasizes
that for a self-inconsistent proposition *A*, the set
*C*_{A} must be empty, whence AT′ is to
be denied. Mortensen also critically discusses the addition of
AT′ to the relevance logic **E**. In this context,
AT′ amounts to the condition that no implication is true at the
world *T**.

A more regular semantics for extensions of the basic relevance logic
**B** by either AT′ or BT has been presented in
Brady 1989. In this semantics, conjunction is defined in the
standard way, and there is a subset of worlds *O* ⊆
*K*. The extended model structures contain a function
ℑ that maps sets of worlds, and in
particular, interpretations of formulas (alias propositions)
*I*(*A*) to sets of worlds in such a way that a formula
*A* is true at a world *t* iff *t* ∈
ℑ(*I*(*A*)). This
allows Brady to state model conditions capturing AT′ and BT as
follows:

AT′: Ift∈O, then (∃x,y∈ ℑ(f))Rt*xy* , for any propositionf;BT: (∃

x,y∈ ℑ(f)) (∃z∈K) (RtxzandRt*yz*), for any propositionfand anyt∈K.

Note that these clauses still are not purely structural conditions but conditions on the interpretation of formulas. Also the investigations into connexive logics based on ternary frames did not, as it seems, lead to establishing connexive logic as a fully recognized branch of non-classical logic.

### 2.3 Connexive logic based on subtraction negation

A close relation between connexive logic and the idea of negation as
cancellation has been observed by Routley (1978), Routley *et
al*. (1982), and Routley and Routley (1985). However, whereas
Routley suggested the semantics using a generation relation, connexive
logics based in a straightforward way on the cancellation view of
negation have been worked out by Priest (1999). Negation as
cancellation (alias subtraction negation) is a conception of negation
that can be traced back to Aristotle's *Prior Analytics* and is
often associated with Strawson, who held that a “contradiction cancels
itself and leaves nothing” (1952, p. 3). (The idea of *ex
contradictione nihil sequitur* is discussed in Wagner 1991.)
The connection between the subtraction account of negation and the
principles distinctive of connexive logic is explained by Routley and
Routley (1985, p. 205) as follows:

Entailment is inclusion of logical content. So, ifAwere to entail ~A, it would include as part of its content, what neutralizes it, ~A, in which event it would entail nothing, having no content. So it is not the case thatAentails ~A, that is Aristotle's thesis ~(A→ ~A) holds.

Priest (1999) directly translates a definition of entailment that
enforces the null-content account of contradictions into evaluation
clauses. A model is a structure
M = <*W*, *g*,
*v*>, where *W* is a non-empty set of possible worlds,
*g* is a distinguished element from *W*, and *v*
is a valuation function from the set of propositional variables into
the set of classical truth values {1, 0}. Two clauses for evaluating
implications at possible worlds are considered (notation adjusted):

(a) M,s⊨A→Biff (i) there is a worlduwith M,u⊨Aand (ii) for every worldu, M,u⊨Athen M,u⊨B;

(b) M,s⊨A→Biff (i) there is a worlduwith M,u⊨A, (ii) there is a worlduwith M,u⊭B, and (iii) for every worldu, M,u⊨Athen M,u⊨B.

Condition (i) ensures that nothing is implied by an unsatisfiable
antecedent. The evaluation clauses for the other connectives are
classical. A formula *A* is true in a model
(M
⊨ *A*) iff
M, *g*
⊨ *A*; and *A* is
valid iff *A* is true in every model. Condition (ii) ensures
that the law of contraposition is valid. A set Δ of formulas is
true in a model iff every element of Δ is true in the
model.

There are two notions of entailment (Δ
⊨ *A*), one coming with
clause (a) the other with clause (b):

(a) Δ⊨Aiff Δ is true in some model, and every model in which Δ is true is a model in whichAis true;

(b) Δ⊨Aiff Δ is true in some model, ~Ais true in some model, and every model in which Δ is true is a model in whichAis true.

These two connexive logics arise from the idea of negation as
cancellation in a straightforward way. They are neither monotonic nor
closed under uniform substitution. Proof systems and decision
procedures for them can be obtained from a straightforward faithful
translation τ into the modal logic **S5**, cf. the
entry logic: modal. For
implications *A* → *B* the translation is defined
as follows, where ⊃ is material implication and ¬ is classical
negation:

(a) ◊τ(A) ∧ □(τ(A) ⊃ τ(B));

(b) ◊τ(A) ∧ ◊¬τ(B) ∧ □(τ(A) ⊃ τ(B)).

Ferguson (2014) observes that the intersection of the semantical
consequence relations of variant (a) of Priest's logic and the
negation, conjuncton, disjunction fragment of Bochvar's 3-valued logic
(cf. the entry logic: many-valued)
results in a known system of containment logic, namely the
system **RC** presented in Johnson 1976.

Although the semantics of Priest's connexive logics is simple and transparent, the underlying idea of subtraction negation is not unproblematic. Priest (1999, p. 146) mentions strong fallibilists who “endorse each of their views, but also endorse the claim that some of their views are false”. Their contradictory opinions in fact hardly are contentless, so that the cancellation account of negation and, as a result, systems of connexive logic based on subtraction negation appear not to be very well-motivated.

### 2.4 Four-valued constructive connexive logic

A system of connexive logic with an intuitively plausible possible
worlds semantics using a binary relation between worlds has been introduced in
Wansing 2005. In this paper it is observed that a modification of
the falsification conditions for negated implications in possible
worlds models for David Nelson's constructive four-valued logic with
strong negation results in a connexive logic, called
**C**, which inherits from Nelson's logic an
interpretation in terms of information states pre-ordered by a
relation of possible expansion of these states. For Nelson's
constructive logics see, for example, Almukdad and Nelson 1984,
Gurevich 1977, Nelson 1949, Odintsov 2008, Routley 1974, Thomason
1969, Wansing 2001, Kamide and Wansing 2012.

The key observation for obtaining **C** is simple: in the
presence of the double negation introduction law, it suffices to
validate both BT′ and its converse ~(*A* →
*B*) → (*A* → ~*B*). In other
words, an interpretation of the falsification conditions of
implications is called for, which deviates from the standard
conditions. In Nelson's systems of constructive logic, the double
negation laws hold, and the relational semantics for these logics is
such that falsification and verification of formulas are dealt with
separately. However, the falsification conditions of implications are
the classical ones expressed by the schema ~(*A* →
*B*) ↔ (*A*
∧ ~*B*).
To obtain a connexive implication, it is therefore enough to assume
another interpretation of the falsification conditions of implications
expressed by ~(*A* → *B*) ↔ (*A*
→ ~*B*).

Consider the language *L* :=
{∧,
∨, →, ~}
based on the denumerable set
*A**t** _{L}* of propositional
variables. Equivalence ↔ is defined as usual. The schematic
axioms and rules of the logic

**C**are:

a1 the axioms of intuitionistic positive logic a2 ~ ~ A↔Aa3 ~( A∨B) ↔ (~A∧ ~B)a4 ~( A∧B) ↔ (~A∨ ~B)a5 ~( A→B) ↔ (A→ ~B)R1 modus ponens

Clearly, a5 is the only supraclassical axiom of
**C**. The consequence relation
⊢_{C}
(derivability in **C**) is defined as usual. A
**C**-frame is a pair
F = <*W*, ≤ >,
where ≤ is a reflexive and transitive binary relation on the
non-empty set *W*. Let <*W*,
≤ >^{+} be the set of all *X* ⊆
*W* such that if *u* ∈ *X* and *u*
≤ *w*, then *w* ∈ *X*. A
**C**-model is a structure
M = <*W*, ≤,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−} >,
where <*W*, ≤ > is a **C**-frame
and *v*^{+} and *v*^{−} are
valuation functions from *At** _{L}* into
<

*W*, ≤ >

^{+}. Intuitively,

*W*is a set of information states. The function

*v*

^{+}sends an atom

*p*to the states in

*W*that support the truth of

*p*, whereas

*v*

^{−}sends

*p*to the states that support the falsity of

*p*. M = <

*W*, ≤,

*v*

^{+},

*v*

^{−}> is said to be the model based on the frame <

*W*, ≤ >. The relations M,

*t*⊨

^{+}

*A*(“M supports the truth of

*A*at

*t*”) and M,

*t*⊨

^{−}

*A*(“M supports the falsity of

*A*at

*t*”) are inductively defined as follows:

M,t⊨^{+}pifft∈v^{+}(p)

M,t⊨^{−}pifft∈v^{−}(p)

M,t⊨^{+}(A∧B) iff M,t⊨^{+}Aand M,t⊨^{+}B

M,t⊨^{−}(A∧B) iff M,t⊨^{−}Aor M,t⊨^{−}B

M,t⊨^{+}(A∨B) iff M,t⊨^{+}Aor M,t⊨^{+}B

M,t⊨^{−}(A∨B) iff M,t⊨^{−}Aand M,t⊨^{−}B

M,t⊨^{+}(A→B) iff for allu≥t(M,u⊨^{+}Aimplies M,u⊨^{+}B)

M,t⊨^{−}(A→B) iff for allu≥t(M,u⊨^{+}Aimplies M,u⊨^{−}B)

M,t⊨^{+}~Aiff M,t⊨^{−}A

M,t⊨^{−}~Aiff M,t⊨^{+}A

If
M = <*W*, ≤,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−} > is a
**C**-model, then
M
⊨ *A* (“*A* is valid
in M”) iff for every
*t* ∈ *W*,
M, *t*
⊨^{+} *A*.
F
⊨ *A* (“*A* is valid
on
F”) iff
M
⊨ *A* for every model
M based on
F.
A formula is **C**-valid iff it is valid on every
frame. Support of truth and support of falsity for arbitrary formulas
are persistent with respect to the relation ≤ of possible expansion
of information states. That is, for any **C**-model
M = <*W*, ≤,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−} > and formula
*A*, if *s* ≤ *t*, then
M, *s*
⊨^{+} *A* implies
M, *t*
⊨^{+} *A* and
M, *s*
⊨^{−} *A*
implies
M, *t*
⊨^{−} *A*.
It can easily be shown that a negation normal form theorem holds. The
logic **C** is characterized by the class of all
**C**-frames: for any *L*-formula *A*,
⊢_{C}
*A* iff *A* is **C**-valid. Moreover,
**C** satisfies the disjunction property and the
constructible falsity property. If
⊢_{C}
*A*
∨ *B*, then
⊢_{C}
*A* or
⊢_{C}
*B*. If
⊢_{C}
~(*A*
∧ *B*), then
⊢_{C}
~* A* or
⊢_{C}
~*B*.
Decidability of **C** follows from a faithful embedding
into positive intuitionistic propositional logic.

Like Nelson's four-valued constructive logic **N4**,
**C** is a paraconsistent logic (cf. the entry
logic: paraconsistent). Note that
**C** contains contradictions, for example:
⊢_{C}
((*p*
∧ ~ *p*) →
(~ *p*
∨ *p*)) and
⊢_{C}
~((*p*
∧ ~*p*) →
(~ *p*
∨ *p*)). It is obvious from the
above presentation that **C** differs from
**N4** only with respect to the falsification (or support
of falsity) conditions of implications. As in **N4**,
provable strong equivalence is a congruence relation, i.e., the set
{*A* :
⊢_{C}
*A*} is closed under the rule *A* ↔ *B*,
~ *A* ↔ ~ *B* /
*C*(*A*) ↔ *C*(*B*). Wansing (2005)
also presents a first-order extension **QC** of
**C**. Kamide and Wansing (2011) present a sound and
complete sequent calculus for **C** and show the cut-rule
to be admissible, which means that it can be dispensed with.

Whereas the direction from right to left of Axiom a5 can be
justified by rejecting the view that if *A* implies *B*
and *A* is inconsistent, *A* implies any formula, in
particular *B*, the direction from left to right seems rather
strong. If the verification conditions of implications are dynamic (in
the sense of referring to other states in addition to the state of
evaluation), then a5 indicates that the falsification conditions of
implications are dynamic as well. The falsity of (*A* →
*B*) thus implies that if *A* is true, *B* is
*false*. Yet, one might wonder why it is not required that the
falsity of (*A*→ *B*) implies that if *A* is
true, *B* is *not true*. This cannot be expressed in a
language with just one negation ~ expressing falsity instead of
absence of truth (classically at the state of evaluation or
intuitionistically at all related states). If one adds to
**C** the further axiom ~*A* → (*A*
→ *B*) to obtain a connexive variant of Nelson's
three-valued logic **N3**, intuitionistic negation ¬
is definable by setting: ¬*A* := *A* →
~*A*. Then a5 might be replaced by

a5′: ~(A→B) ↔ (A→ ¬B).

The resulting system satisfies AT, AT′, BT, and BT′,
because *A* → ¬ ~*A* and ~*A*
→ ¬*A* are theorems. For BT, for example, we have:

1. A→Bassumption 2. B→ ¬ ~Btheorem 3. A→ ¬ ~B1, 2, transitivity of → 4. ( A→ ¬ ~B) → ~(A→ ~B)axiom a5′ 5. ~( A→ ~B)3, 4, R1 6. ( A→B) → ~(A→ ~B)1, 5, deduction theorem

This logic, however, is the trivial system (a fact not noticed in Wansing 2005 (Section 6) but pointed out in the online version of this paper).

The system **C** is a conservative extension of positive
intuitionistic logic. In **C**, strong negation is
interpreted in such a way that the intuitionistic implication of its
negation-free sublanguage is a connexive implication. Analogously,
strong negation may be added to positive dual intuitionistic logic to
obtain a system with a connexive co-implication, and to
bi-intuitionistic logic to obtain a system with both a connexive
implication and a connexive co-implications, see Wansing 2008.

The systems **C** and **QC** are only
weakly connexive, but this is not surprising because these logics are
paraconsistent and allow formulas *A* and ~*A* to be
simultaneously satisfiable in the sense that a state and all its
possible expansions may support the truth of both *A* and
~*A*. As a result,
*A* → ~*A* and ~*A* → *A* are
satisfiable. If *A* → ~*A* and ~*A*
→ *A* are unsatisfiable, strong connexivity is in conflict
with at the same time satisfying the deduction theorem and defining
semantical consequence as preservation of support of truth: *A*
→ ~*A* would entail ~(*A* → ~*A*),
~*A* → *A* would entail ~(*A*
→ *A*), and the formulas (*A* → ~*A*)
→ ~(*A* → ~*A*) and (~*A*
→ *A*) → ~(~*A* →*A*) would be
valid.

### 2.5 Material connexive logic

If implications *A* → *B* are understood as
material implications, then a separate treatment of falsity conditions
again allows introducing a system of connexive logic. The resulting
system **MC** may be called a system of material
connexive logic. The semantics is quite obvious: a model
M
is just a function from the set of all literals, i.e., atomic
formulas or negated atomic formulas, into the set of classical truth
values {1, 0}. Truth of a formula *A* in a model
M
(M
⊨ *A*)
is inductively defined as follows:

M ⊨piffv(p) = 1

M ⊨ (A∧B) iff M ⊨Aand M ⊨B

M ⊨ (A∨B) iff M ⊨Aor M ⊨B

M ⊨ (A→B) iff M ⊭Aor M ⊨B

M ⊨ ~piffv(~p) = 1

M ⊨ ~ ~Aiff M ⊨A

M ⊨ ~(A∧B) iff M ⊨ ~Aor M ⊨ ~B

M ⊨ ~(A∨B) iff M ⊨ ~Aand M ⊨ ~B

M ⊨ ~ (A→B) iff M ⊭Aor M ⊨ ~B

A formula is valid iff it is true in all models. The set of all valid formulas is axiomatized by the following set of axiom schemata and rules:

a1 _{c}the axioms of classical positive logical a2 ~ ~ A↔Aa3 ~( A∨B) ↔ (~A∧ ~B)a4 ~( A∧B) ↔ (~A∨ ~B)a5 ~( A→B) ↔ (A→ ~B)R1 modus ponens

**MC** can be faithfully embedded into positive classical logic,
whence **MC** is decidable. The classical tautology
~(*A* → *B*) → (*A*
∧ ~*B*)
is, of course, not a theorem of **MC**. Like
**C**, **MC** is a paraconsistent logic
containing contradictions.

### 2.6 Connexive modal logics

In Wansing 2005, the language of the connexive
logic **C** is extended by modal operators □ and
◊ (“it is possible that”) to define a connexive and
constructive analogue **CK** of the smallest normal modal
logic **K**. The system **CK** is shown to
be faithfully embeddable into **QC**, to be decidable,
and to enjoy the disjunction property and the constructible falsity
property.

It is well-known that intuitionistic propositional logic can be
faithfully embedded into the normal modal logic **S4**,
which, like **K**, is based on classical propositional
logic (cf. the entries
logic: intuitionistic and
logic: modal). There exists a
translation γ, due to Gödel,
such that a formula *A * of intuitionistic logic is
intuitionistically valid iff *A *'s γ-translation is
valid in
**S4**. In particular, intuitionistic implication is
understaood as strict material implication: γ(*A*
→ *B*) = □(γ(*A*) ⊃
γ(*B*)). Kamide and Wansing (2011) define a sequent
calculus for connexive **S4** based
on **MC**. This system, **CS4**, is shown to
be complete with respect to a relational possible worlds
semantics. The proof uses a faithful embedding of **CS4**
into positive, negation-free **S4**. Moreover, it is
shown that the cut-rule is an admissible rule in **CS4**
and that the constructive connexive logic **C** stand
to **CS4** as intuitionistic logic stands
to **S4**. In the faithful embedding, the modal
translation of negated implications is as expected:
γ(~(*A* → *B*)) = □(γ(*A*)
⊃ γ(*~B*)). A similar translation is used in Odintsov
and Wansing 2010 to embed **C** into a modal
extension **BS4** of Belnap and Dunn's four-valued
logic.

In **CS4** the modal operators □ and ◊ are
syntactic duals of each other: the equivalence between
□*A* and ~◊~*A* and between ◊*A*
and ~□~*A* is provable. Kamide and Wansing (2011) also
present a cut-free sequent calculus for a connexive constructive
version **CS4**^{d–}
of **S4** without syntactic duality between □ and
◊. The relational possible worlds semantics
for **CS4**^{d–} is not fully
compositional, cf. Odintsov and Wansing
2004. **CS4**^{d–} is faithfully
embedabble into positive **S4** and
decidable. Moreover **C** is faithfully embeddable
into **CS4**^{d–}.

## 3. Connexive logics and consequential logics

Aristotle's and Boethius' Theses express, as it seems, some
pre-theoretical intuitions about meaning relations between negation
and implication. But it is not clear that a language must contain only
one negation operation and only one implication. The three-valued
constructive connexive logic of Section 1.5 contains two negations,
and the language of systems of *consequential implication*
comprises two implication connectives together with one negation, see
Pizzi 1977, 1991, 1993, 1996, 2004, Pizzi and Williamson 2005. In
Pizzi and Williamson 1997, the notion of a normal system of analytic
consequential implication is defined. ‘Normal’ here means
that such a system contains certain formulas and is closed under
certain rules. The smallest normal consequential logic that satisfies
AT is called **CI**. Alternatively, **CI**
can be characterized as the smallest normal system that satisfies Weak
Boethius' Thesis:

(A→B) ⊃ ¬(A→ ¬B),

where → is consequential implication, ⊃ is material
implication, and ¬ is classical negation. Pizzi and Williamson
show that **CI** can be faithfully embedded into the
normal modal logic **KD**, and vice versa. Analytic
consequential implication is interpreted according to the following
translation function φ:

φ(A→B) = □(φA⊃ φB) ∧ (□φB⊃ □φA) ∧ (◊φB⊃ ◊φA)

As Pizzi and Williamson (1997, p. 571) point out, their investigation is a “contribution to the modal treatment of logics intermediate between logics of consequential implication and connexive logics.” They emphasize a difficulty of regarding consequential implication as a genuine implication connective by showing that in any normal system of consequential logic that admits modus ponens for consequential implication and contains BT, the following formulas are provable:

(a) (A→B) ≡ (B →A),(b) (

A→B) ≡ ¬(A→ ¬B),

where ≡ is classical equivalence. Since (*A* →
*B*) ↔ ~(*A* → ~*B*) is a
theorem of **C**, the more problematic fact, from the
point of view of this system, is the provability of (a). Pizzi and
Williamson also show that in any normal system of consequential logic
that contains BT, the formula (*A* → *B*) ≡
(*A* ≡ *B*) is provable if (*A* →
*B*) ⊃ (*A* ⊃ *B*) is provable, in other
words, consequential implication collapses into classical equivalence
if (*A* → *B*) ⊃ (*A* ⊃ *B*)
is provable. The construction of Aristotelian squares of opposition
and their combination to Aristotelian cubes in systems of
consequential implication is considered in Pizzi 2008.

## 4. Summary

In summary, it may be said that connexive logic, although it is not very well-known and unusual in various respects, is not just a formal game or gimmick. There are several kinds of systems of connexive logics with different kinds of semantics and proof systems. (A dialogical treatment of connexive logic may be found in Rahman and Rückert 2001.) The intuitions captured by systems of connexive logic can be traced back to ancient roots, and applications of connexive logics range from Aristotle's syllogistic to Categorial Grammar and the study of causal implications. A monograph developing a system of connexive logic in the context of solving a broad range of paradoxes is Angell 2002.

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## Other Internet Resources

- Angell, R., “Connexive Implication, Modal Logic and Subjunctive Conditionals,” lecture delivered in Chicago, 5/5/1967.

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