Notes to Intensional Logic

1. Actually, in the original 1946 paper, Marcus is working in S2, and she uses the fishhook, fishhook, representing “necessary implication”, to formulate the Barcan formula, not material implication. It doesn’t make a difference in the more usual modal logics, but it is important to know how the original was formulated.

Copyright © 2015 by
Melvin Fitting <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free

The SEP would like to congratulate the National Endowment for the Humanities on its 50th anniversary and express our indebtedness for the five generous grants it awarded our project from 1997 to 2007. Readers who have benefited from the SEP are encouraged to examine the NEH’s anniversary page and, if inspired to do so, send a testimonial to