Paul of Venice
Paul of Venice was the most important Italian thinker of his times, and one of the most prominent and interesting logicians of the Middle Ages. His philosophical theories (culminating in a metaphysics of essences which states the ontological and epistemological primacy of universals over any other kind of beings) are the final and highest result of the preceding realistic tradition of thought. He fully developed the new form of realism started up by Wyclif and his Oxonian followers in the last decades of the 14th century, and renewed Burley's attacks against nominalistic views. The metaphysical convictions at the basis of his philosophy are an original version of the most fundamental theses of Duns Scotus (viz. univocity of being; existence of universal forms outside the mind, which are at the same time identical with and different from their own individuals; real identity and formal distinction between essence and being; thisness as the principle of individuation; real distinction among the ten categories). But Paul puts much more stress on the ontological presuppositions and entailments of the doctrine. Simultaneously, he was open to influences from many other directions, as he held in due consideration also the positions of authors such as Albert the Great, Thomas Aquinas, and Giles of Rome, and critically discussed the doctrines of the main Nominalists of the 14th century, namely William Ockham, John Buridan, and Marsilius of Inghen, sometimes playing mutually incompatible theses against each other. This contributes to making his works stimulating and enriching from an historical point of view, but also makes it difficult to grasp his own ideas in their relationships and unity. These reflections help us to explain why for about one hundred and fifty years Paul was erroneously, but unanimously, believed to be an Ockhamist in logic and metaphysics and an Averroist in psychology and epistemology.
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Paul of Venice (Paulus Nicolettus Venetus, Paolo Nicoletti Veneto), O.E.S.A. was born in Udine, Italy, around 1369. He joined the Augustinian order near the age of fourteen, when he entered the convent of Santo Stefano in Venice. He studied first at Padua, but in 1390 he was assigned to Oxford, where he spent three years. He became Doctor of Arts and Theology by 1405. He taught in Padua, Siena (1420–24), and Perugia (1424–28), and lectured in Bologna (1424). At various times he held positions of leadership in his order (Pope Gregory XII designated him Prior General of the Augustinians in May 1409) and served as ambassador of the Venetian Republic. He died in Padua on 15 June 1429, while commenting the De anima (On the Soul) of Aristotle.
Paul wrote many philosophical and theological treatises (the complete list of his writings and a guide to extant manuscripts are in Perreiah 1986; for the dating of his main philosophical works see Conti 1996, pp. 9–20), including: Logica parva (The Small Logic), ca. 1393–95; Logica magna (The Great Logic—LM), ca. 1396–99; Sophismata aurea (Golden Sophisms), ca. 1399; a commentary on Aristotle's Posterior Analytics (In Post.), C.E. 1406; Summa philosophiae naturalis (Summa of Natural Philosophy—SN), C.E. 1408; a commentary on Aristotle's Physics (In Phys.), C.E. 1409; a commentary on Aristotle's On the Soul (In De anima), ca. 1415–20; Quaestio de universalibus (On Universals—QdU), ca. 1420–24; a commentary on Aristotle's Metaphysics (In Metaph.), ca. 1420–24; a commentary on the Ars Vetus, that is, on Porphyry's Isagoge, Aristotle's Categories, and the Liber sex principiorum (Expositio super Universalia Porphyrii et Artem Veterem Aristotelis—In Porph., In Cat., and In Sex pr. respectively), C.E. 1428.
The main contributions of Paul of Venice to the history of logic in the Middle Ages concern the notion of formal distinction and the analysis of predication.
Paul's formulation of the theory of identity and distinction is a further development of Duns Scotus' and Wyclif's doctrines on the subject. The Italian master recognizes two main types of identity: material (secundum materiam) and formal (secundum formam). There is material identity when the material cause is the same, either in number (it is a case of the same thing called in different ways) or by species (it is a case of two objects made of the same kind of stuff). There is formal identity when the formal cause is the same. This happens in two ways: if the form at issue is the singular form of the individual composite, then there is a unique object known in different ways; if the form at issue is the common essence instantiated by the singular form, then there are two distinct objects belonging to the same species or genus (In Metaph., book V, tr. 2, chap. 3, fol. 185ra). Correspondingly, the main types of distinction (or difference) are also two: material and formal. There is material distinction when the material cause is different, so that the objects at issue are separable entities. In general, there is formal distinction when the formal cause is different. This happens in two ways: if the material cause is also different, then it is a particular case of material distinction. If the material cause is the same, then a further analysis is necessary. If the material cause is the same by species only, then it is an improper case of formal distinction; but if the material cause is the same in number, then there is properly formal distinction, since the forms at issue have different definite descriptions but share the same substrate of existence, so that they are one and the same thing in reality. For example, there is a proper formal distinction in the case of the two properties of being-capable-of-laughing (risibile) and of being-capable-of-learning (disciplinabile), which are connected forms instantiated by the same set of individual substances (In Metaph., book V, tr. 2, chap. 3, fol. 185rb).
Material distinction is a necessary and sufficient criterion for real difference, traditionally conceived, whereas there is formal distinction if and only if there is one substance in number (i.e. material identity in the strict sense) and a multiplicity of formal principles with different descriptions instantiated by it. Paul therefore inverts the terms of the question in relation to what earlier approaches had done. By means of the formal distinction Duns Scotus and John Wyclif had tried to explain how it is possible to distinguish many different real aspects internal to the same individual substance (the passage is from one to many). On the contrary, Paul is attempting to reduce multiplicity to unity (the passage is from many to one). What Paul wants to account for is the way in which many different entities of a certain kind (i.e. of an incomplete and dependent mode of existence) can constitute one and the same substance in number.
The starting point of Paul's theory of predication is his doctrine of universals. Just like Wyclif and his followers (Alyngton, Penbygull, Sharpe, Milverley, Whelpdale, Tarteys), the Augustinian master claims that
- There are real universals, which are common essences naturally apt to be present in and predicated of many similar individuals.
- Real universals and their individuals are really the same and only formally distinct.
- Predication is first of all a real relation between metaphysical entities (QdU, fols. 124ra, 124vb, 127va, 132va).
But his analysis of predication is different from those of both Wyclif and his followers. In fact, Paul divides predication into identical predication and formal predication and defines them in a different way than his sources do.
To speak of identical predication it is sufficient that the form signified by the subject-term of a (true) proposition and the form signified by the predicate-term share at least one of their substrates of existence. This is the case for propositions like ‘Man is (an) animal’ and ‘The universal-man is something white’ (‘Homo in communi est album’). One speaks of formal predication in two cases:
- When for the truth of the proposition it is necessary that the form signified by the predicate-term is present in all the substrates of existence of the form signified by the subject-term, in virtue of a formal principle (made clear in the proposition itself) that is in turn directly present in all the substrates of existence of the form signified by the subject-term. This is the case for propositions like ‘Man is formally (an) animal’ and ‘Socrates qua man is an animal’.
- Or else when the predicate of the proposition is a term of second intention, like ‘species’ or ‘genus’. This is the case for propositions like ‘Man is a species’ and ‘Animal is a genus’ (SN, part VI, chap. 2, fol. 93vab; QdU, fols. 124vb–125rb).
As is evident, identical predication is extensionally defined, whereas formal predication is intensionally defined, since formal predication entails a relation modally determined between the subject-thing and the predicate-thing. In fact, formal predication presupposes that there is a necessary connection between the subject-thing and the predicate-thing of the given proposition. For this reason, Paul denies that sentences like ‘(What is) singular is (what is) universal’ (‘Singulare est universale’), which Wyclif and his followers acknowledged as true, are in fact true propositions. For Wyclif and his followers, the sentence at issue is an example of predication by essence. But for Paul of Venice, it is an example of formal predication; no individual qua individual is an universal, or vice versa, as no second intention intensionally considered is any other second intention (QdU, fol. 133va; In Porph., prooem., fol. 3ra–b). As a consequence, Paul rewrites the preceding sentence in this form: ‘(What is) singular is this universal’ (‘Singulare est hoc universale’), where the presence of the demonstrative ‘this’ changes the kind of predication from formal to identical. So corrected, the sentence is true, since it signifies that a certain entity, in itself singular, is the substrate of existence of a universal essence (QdU, fol. 133va–b).
As a result, Paul builds up a mixed system, where the copula of the standard philosophical sentences he deals with can have a threefold value: it means a partial identity between the subject-thing and the predicate-thing in the case of identical predication; it means a necessary link between forms in the case of the first type of formal predication; it means that the subject-thing in virtue of itself is necessarily a member of a given class of objects, which the predicate-term of the proposition labels and refers to, in the case of the second type of formal predication—that is, when the predicate is a term of second intention.
Paul of Venice deals with the problem of the meaning and truth of sentences in his Logica Magna and in his commentaries on the Metaphysics and on the Categories. His theory is substantially the same in all these works, but in the two commentaries he stresses the ontological implications of his semantic choices slightly more, and modifies his solution of the question of the meaning of a true negative sentence. Paul's purpose is twofold. He intends (1) to determine the ontological status and nature of the complexe significabile more precisely; and (2) to develop a general theory of the proposition which would be logically more rigorous and less compromised by a metaphysics of the possible than that supported by Gregory of Rimini, his main source on that subject. For this reason Paul deals with the question of the truth and falsity of a proposition before examining the problem of its meaning, and solves the latter on the basis of the answer to the former, thus inverting the order followed by Gregory.
As a sign of special respect, Gregory of Rimini is the only author cited by name in the two treatises of Paul's Logica Magna devoted to the questions of the meaning and truth of a sentence. Paul's critique is nevertheless all-embracing. He lists thirteen arguments against Gregory's theses: six are philosophical and seven theological (LM, II, tr. 11, pp. 96–104). We can focus on the most important ones, as they help us to better understand Paul's final choices on the matter.
The main philosophical arguments concern Gregory's theory of the levels of being. As is well known, the aim of Gregory's theory of complexe significabile seems to be to identify and describe an objective and independent molecular entity existing in re, which can be the significatum or the referent of a sentence, and therefore guarantees the success of our effort to understand the world. According to Gregory, this entity is the complexe significabile, that is something (1)complex but one in number, which cannot be identified with the things that the subject and/or the predicate of the sentence signify; (2) real but distinct from the extramental categorial items as well as from their corresponding mental signs; and (3) the proper and adequate object of a possible act of signification (see the prologue of his commentary on the first book of Sentences, q. 1, a. 1, pp. 3–4). It is precisely in order to provide the complexe significabile with a suitable ontological status, and every sentence with a significatum that Gregory elaborates a theory of the levels of being. According to it, the world is constituted by (1) the categorial items (or atomic objects) which are the ground of existence of every other being; (2) the states of affairs connected to them; and (3) the possible states of affairs that the atomic objects could cause if they were combined in a different way from the actual one. In fact, Gregory claims that the terms ‘something’ (‘aliquid’), ‘thing’ (‘res’), and ‘being’ (‘ens’) are synonyms, and that they have a threefold meaning. They can be taken (1) for anything signifiable in any way (that is, by a simple or a complex expression, truly or falsely)—this would be the sense in which Aristotle in the chapter de priori of his Categories says that it is necessary that an expression is called true or false when a thing is or is not. (2) For anything signifiable by a simple or a complex expression, but truly. And (3) for an existing essence or entity (ibidem, pp. 8–9). This distinction implies that (1) the complexe significabilia are not real in the same sense as the entia praedicamentalia are; (2) the complexe significabilia designated by false sentences have a feebler reality than those designated by true sentences, but they are nevertheless real and constitutive elements of the world; and (3) the reality of complexe significabilia (both true and false) is different from that of the categorial items on which this reality is grounded.
Paul denies (1) that states of affairs, both actual and possible, are constitutive parts of the world really distinct from the categorial items, and (2) that whatever is signifiable by a complex expression is a thing. In fact, according to Paul, the term ‘something’, taken in the first or second sense enumerated by Gregory, is a transcendental term, and as a consequence it immediately signifies all the possible substances and accidents in just the same way. Therefore, if being a man (hominem esse) were something, in the first or second sense of the term ‘something’, then being a man would be a substance or an accident, and so something in the third sense of the term—that is, an atomic object (or categorial item). If the supporters of Gregory's opinion were to claim that ‘something’ is not a transcendental term—remarks Paul—, it would follow that ‘something’ would be either less general than a transcendental term or more general. In the first case, the logical consequence is that the term ‘something’ signifies a categorial item, and thus it still follows that if being a man is something in the first or second way, it is something in the third way. In the second case, it follows that ‘something’ is more general than ‘being’, and therefore that the following inference is invalid:
«if being a man is something, then being a man is»,
a consequence which is the opposite of what Gregory intended to hold (LM, II, tr. 11, pp. 96–98).
The second main philosophical argument against Gregory's theory is meant to show that what is signified by a sentence (or complex expression) cannot be qualified as a thing. Paul explicitly denies that, according to Aristotle, whatever is signifiable by a complex is a thing (ibidem, p. 104).
From a theological point of view, the main inconvenience arising from Gregory's opinion is that there would be many eternal things none of which is God—a thesis condemned at Paris in 1277. In fact—argues Paul—this complexe significabile, that God is, is a thing different from God Himself, according to Gregory, and it is from eternity (ibidem, p. 100).
In sum, Paul agrees with Gregory that what is signified by a simple expression is different from what is signified by a complex expression, and that what is signified by a complex expression is also real, but disagrees with him about the meaning of the term ‘res’. In his view, only positive beings are things, and what is signified by a complex expression is not a positive being, as it is not an item in one of the ten categorial lines. In other words, according to Paul, even though states of affairs are not really, but only formally, different from individual things, they cannot in any way be regarded as things in the world.
As a consequence, the chief feature of Paul's theory of the complexe significabile is his claim that the adequate significate of a proposition is really identical-to and somehow (and more precisely, formally) distinct-from what is signifiable by the subject-term and/or the predicate-term alone (ibidem, p. 156). All the other theses derive from this, which is the cornerstone of his theory of the proposition.
Paul defines the propositio as a well formed (congrua) and complete (perfecta) mental sentence, which signifies the true or the false (LM, pars II, tractatus de propositione, fol. 101rb–va), and sums up his position on the problem of truth and falsity in four points:
- if the adequate significate of a proposition is true and it is not inconsistent that the proposition, thus adequately signifying, should be true, then the proposition is true;
- if a proposition, adequately signifying that things are in some way, is true, then its adequate significate is true;
- if the adequate significate of a proposition is false, then the proposition is false;
- if a proposition is false, and it is not inconsistent that its adequate significate is false, then its adequate significate is false (LM, II, tr. 10, p. 62).
The obvious consequence of these rules is that, with the only exception of insolubilia, which are called false not because they signify the false, but because they affirm themselves to be false or not to be true, all the other kinds of proposition are true if and only if what they signify is true, and false if and only if what they signify is false (ibidem, p. 64).
In his commentary on the Categories, Paul explains that the direct and adequate objects of propositions, which make them true, are molecular things (res complexae) existing outside the soul. Such entities are complexe significabilia, the significata of propositions, that is extramental realities made up of a subject-form and a predicate-form linked together in one and the same substance or set of substances (In Cat., cap. de subiecto et praedicato, fol. 48ra). Thus, Paul's approach to the question of the truth of a proposition is ontological, as that of Gregory, since according to him the true is an attribute of things and only secondarily of thought, but at the same time it is consistent with the fundamental principle of every form of correspondence theory of truth, that of the isomorphism of language, thought, and the world. In fact, in his commentary on the Metaphysics Paul distinguishes three different but connected kinds of truth: truth of imitation (veritas imitationis), truth of disclosure (veritas manifestationis), and relational truth (veritas respectiva). The first type of truth is the measure of the conformity (adaequatio) which all the things have in relation to their corresponding ideas in the mind of God, from which they derive. The second type is also a real property of extramental things, which measures their various degrees of disposition to be apprehended by our intellect. Relational truth, unlike the first two veritates, is not an absolute property of things, but, just as its name suggests, a relation, and more precisely a relation of conformity which has its substrate of existence in our intellect, its fundamentum in mental sentences, and its terminus ad quem in the molecular objects existing outside the soul. Despite the fact that it is related to the activity of the intellect, the veritas respectiva is the effect caused in our intellect by the existence of the veritas manifestationis. If things were not intelligible by themselves, they could not be grasped and recognised by our intellect for what they are (In Metaph., lib. VI, cap. 4, fol. 233rb–va). So, like Gregory, Paul also supports the idea that human knowledge is true only qua knowledge of the ontological truth, and that sentences are true only in so far as they are signs of the ontological truth.
On the basis of this account, what then is the relationship that holds between atomic objects (the incomplexa or categorial items) and molecular objects (or complexa or complexe significabilia)? And what is (if anything is) the significate of a false proposition? Paul answers these questions in the Logica Magna and in the commentary on the Categories. His conception undergoes a certain development: in the Logica Magna he denies that what is signified by a true negative proposition is something real, since it is neither an atomic being, nor an aggregate, nor a molecular being (II, tr. 11, p. 122). In the commentary on the Categories he modifies his opinion on this subject, since he admits that there are in re a kind of negative state of affairs signified by true negative propositions. Moreover, he now identifies the significate of any false sentence with a second mental proposition existing obiective and not subiective in our intellect.
The thesis of the Logica Magna that what is signified by a true negative proposition is not something real was not consistent with the universal principle adopted by Paul in this context: a sentence is true if and only if it is a signum veri, nor with what he affirms about the reality of what is signified by a true affirmative sentence, which he identifies with the molecular truth which derives from the veritas manifestationis proper to the atomic beings, and which is at the same time really identical-with and formally distinct-from them (ibidem, pp. 156 and 166).
It is clear that if he was not also able to give a form of reality to the significata of true negative sentences, they could not be considered true, but, paradoxically, would be false, because they would be without any referent in reality. For this reason in the commentary on the Categories Paul distinguishes between the significate of a true sentence and the significate of a false sentence. Paul persists in thinking that if there is no adequate significatum in the world, that is, if there is not something complex to which the mental proposition refers in extramental reality, then the uttered sentence and the mental proposition are false, but he now accepts Burley's idea that there are two different kinds of mental expressions, those which exist subiective in the intellect, as its acts of understanding, and those which exist obiective in it, as the direct objects of those acts of understanding. According to Paul, the mental proposition existing obiective in our intellect is the significatum ultimum et adaequatum of false propositions (In Cat., cap. de priori, fol. 136vb).
As far as true propositions, both affirmative and negative, are concerned, the case is different. In Paul's opinion, a true affirmative proposition signifies a molecular truth, that is a complex reality which is part of the whole reality (the esse reale of the Summa philosophiae naturalis—see below) of a finite corporeal being. So, like Gregory, Paul denies that what verifies the proposition ‘Socrates is white’ is Socrates and the accidental form of whiteness taken together. On the contrary, he claims that the significatum adaequatum of that proposition is the whole reality of Socrates or his being white (LM, II, tr. 11, p. 170). In fact, if the realities signified by true propositions were aggregates made up of the two entities signified by the subject-term and the predicate-term, then these two propositions, ‘the sun heats the house’ and ‘the house is heated by the sun’, would be interchangeable not only with respect to their reference, but also to their significates, because what verifies both of them would be the existence of the sun, the house, and the action of heating. But according to Paul, the two propositions are only extensionally equivalent, and intensionally different, because of their own different significata (ibidem). ‘The sun heats the house’ signifies a state (of affairs) connected with the being of the sun, but ‘the house is heated by the sun’ signifies a state (of affairs) connected with the being of the house. Thus it is incorrect that, according to Paul, the significate with which the adequate significate of a proposition can be in fact identified is the one thing that, by being in a certain state, renders the propositio true. It is quite the opposite: a certain state of the thing signified by the subject of the sentence is the adequate significate of that same sentence. Paul maintains (1) that the adequate significate of a proposition is, implicitly or explicitly, determined by the composition of its parts, and (2) that it is impossible for the adequate signficate of a simple expression (a term) to be the adequate significate of a complex expression (a proposition), since otherwise, an absolutely simple term would adequately signify the true or the false—an evident absurdity (LM, II, tr. 11, p. 196). So, in order to be consistent with these claims, in the commentary on the Categories Paul states that true negative propositions too have something complex which corresponds to them in reality, a sort of negative state of affairs grounded (1) in the two esse realia proper to the things signified by the subject and predicate-terms, or (2) in the laws which rule the order and the metaphysical structure of the world (In Cat., cap. de substantia, fol. 66ra).
Paul's world consists of finite beings (that is, things like men or horses) really existing outside the mind, each made up of a primary substance and a host of forms existing in it and by it. The forms of a primary substance belong to ten different types of being, or categories. Therefore a finite being cannot be totally identified with the primary substance. (In fact no primary substance contains the whole being of a finite being.) Rather it is an ordered congeries of categorial items. Primary substances are not simple items but complex objects, since they are compounded of particular matter and form—a form that is really identical with and formally distinct from the specific nature itself that the primary substance instantiates (SN, part VI, chap. 1, fols. 92vb–93ra). The concepts of matter and form are relative, since their meanings are connected with each other (In Post., fol. 40rb). Being the form of something and being the matter of something are converse relations of three different kinds, whose arguments and values are:
- the metaphysical constituents of the individual substance (i.e. singular matter and form);
- the metaphysical constituents of the specific natures (i.e. genus and difference); and
- the categorial items (i.e. individual and universal substances and accidents) considered according to their various degrees of generality.
The specific nature (or essence) can be conceived from a twofold point of view: intensionally (in abstracto) and extensionally (in concreto). Intensionally viewed, the specific nature simply expresses the set of essential properties that compose a categorial form, without any reference to the existence of individuals which, if there are any, instantiate it. Extensionally viewed, the specific nature is that same form conceived of as instantiated by at least one singular entity. For instance, human nature intensionally considered is humanity (humanitas); extensionally it is man (homo) (In Porph., prooem., fol. 9va). Both of them are substantial forms superordinated to the whole human compound, but while humanity is properly a form, i.e. something existentially incomplete and dependent, man is an existentially autonomous and independent entity. Thus they differ from each other in the same way as a predicate (for example ‘P’) differs from a formula (for example, ‘P(x)’).
Because of the complexity of the metaphysical composition of the finite corporeal being, every creature has four different levels of being: real, essential, temporal, and individual. The real being is nothing but the whole reality of the finite being. The essential being is the mode of being proper to the specific nature that a certain singular directly instantiates. The temporal being is the state of affairs designated by infinitival expressions like ‘being a man’ (‘hominem esse’) or ‘being white’ (‘esse album’)—that is, the object of the act of judging. Finally, the individual being is the actual existence of the primary substance of a finite being as distinct from the whole reality of the finite being itself (SN, part VI, chap. 1, fol. 92vb).
Paul asserts the following relationships among these four levels of being and the essence of a creature: the essence and being of any creature are not really distinct from each other; the essence of a thing is formally different from its real being and from its essential being; the essence and the essential being of a thing are formally (ratione) different from temporal and individual beings; specific and generic essences can keep on being even though no individual instantiates them, but in this case they do not have any actual existence (esse actuale). From that point of view, Socrates being a man (Sortem esse hominem) is in reality Socrates himself considered together with all the properties of which he is the bearer. On the other hand, the proposition identifies only one of these properties, that signified by the predicate-term (in our example the property of being a man), which is formally different from the form (in our example that of humanity) connoted by the predicate-term itself (ibidem, fols. 92vb–93ra).
According to Paul, who follows Duns Scotus and Wyclif on this subject, being is univocally shared by everything real, since it is the stuff that the ten categories modulate according to their own essence (In Phys., book I, tr. 1, chap. 2, t. c. 13; In Metaph., book IV, tr. 1, chap. 1, fols. 122ra–125vb, passim; In Porph., chap. De specie, fol. 22rb). In view of this position, Paul maintains no real distinction between essence and being (In Metaph., book IV, tr. 1, chap. 2, fol. 127rb; book VI, chap. 1, fol. 223vb). Like Duns Scotus and Wyclif, Paul speaks of a formal difference (or difference of reason) between essence and being in creatures, as the essence and the essential being of a thing are one and the same entity considered from two distinct point of view, intensionally (the essence) and extensionally (the being) (SN, part VI, chap. 1, fol. 93ra).
This analysis identifies the opposition between essence and being with the opposition between universals and individuals. Like Wyclif, Paul thinks of the essence as a universal form intensionally considered, and the existence (taken in the strict sense) as the mode of being proper to primary substances. Thus, when Paul affirms that essence and being are really identical and formally different, he simply restates the thesis of the real identity and formal distinction between universals and individuals that was typical of the Realists of the late Middle Ages. Consequently, like Burley and Wyclif, Paul holds that a formal universal actually (in actu) exists outside our minds only if there is at least one individual that instantiates it, so that without individuals common natures (or essences) are not really universals (SN, part VI, chap. 2, fol. 94ra).
This means that the relationship between common natures and singulars is ultimately grounded on individuation, since no actual universality and no instantiation is possible without individuation. On this subject Paul successfully reconciles the Scotistic approach with certain Thomistic theses. Paul claims that the principle of individuation is twofold, immanent and remote. The immanent principle is the one whose presence necessarily entails the existence of the individual it constitutes, and whose absence necessarily entails the non-existence (or disappearance) of the individual. The remote principle, on the other hand, is just what the immanent principle presupposes, but whose presence and absence alone are insufficient for causing the existence or disappearance of the individual, as it continues being after the corruption of the individual. Thisness (haecceitas) is the immanent principle of individuation, whereas form, matter, and quantity are the remote principle. Thisness in turn has a twofold origin, as it derives from matter and form together in the case of corporeal substances, and as it derives from the essence (quidditas) alone in the case of angelic intelligences (SN, part VI, chap. 5, fol. 95vb). Furthermore, according to Paul there is a close similarity between the thisness, which he now calls individual difference (differentia individualis), and the specific difference. The specific difference is what differentiates the species from the genus, since it is the determination or property which, once added to the genus, results in the species. On the other hand, the specific difference is really identical with the genus, from which it is distinct only in virtue of a formal principle. The same happens to the individual difference: it is what differentiates the individual from the species; from the ontological point of view, it is really identical with and formally distinct from the species itself; and it is the formal principle in virtue of which the individual is what it is, something particular, concrete, and perfectly determined in itself (SN, part VI, chap. 5, fol. 96rb; chap. 26, fol. 112rb–va; QdU, fol. 128va; fol. 129rb; In Metaph., book III, tr. 1, chap. 1, fol. 83vb).
As far as the problem of angelic individuation is concerned, the logical consequence deriving from such premisses is that it is impossible to find two angels who share the same specific nature and are numerically distinct, since only one haecceitas can spring up from an incorporeal species (SN, part VI, chap. 5, fol. 96ra). This solution is close to the inner meaning of Duns Scotus' position and contrasts with Aquinas' view, although Paul affirms that the angelic intelligences are specifically, and not numerically, different. In fact, according to St. Thomas, angels are specifically different because they are incorporeal, and without matter no individuation is possible. On the contrary, Paul of Venice thinks angels are individuated by means of thisnesses, but not multiplied by them, because of the absence of matter, so that there is only one angel per species. Since specific natures of incorporeal beings do not include any reference to matter, only a unique principle of individuation (ratio suppositalis) can flow from such species. As a consequence, no angel is one in number in the strict sense of the term (as being one in number necessarily implies the actual presence of a multiplicity of things of the same species), even though broadly speaking every angel is one in number, as two (or more) angels are, after all, "many things"—but never many angels of the same kind (SN, part VI, chap. 5, fol. 95vb).
In his last work, the commentary on the Ars Vetus, Paul summarizes his position as follows:
- The individual is the final result of a process of individuation whose starting point is a specific form.
- The individuation is what differentiates the individual from its species.
- The individuation is nothing but the thisness itself.
- The thisness and the specific form are only formally distinct from the individual they make up (In Porph., chap. De specie, fol. 60ra).
- The principle of individuation, when causing the passage from the level of universals to that of singulars, does not play the role of form (or act) in relation to the specific nature, but the role of matter (or potency), as it is what the specific form structures (In Cat., chap. De substantia, fol. 60ra).
In this way Paul of Venice tried to solve the aporetic aspects of Duns Scotus' theory of individuation. Scotus said nothing about the problem of the relation between the thisness and the particular matter and form that constitute the individual. The Franciscan master was silent also about a possible identification of the thisness with one of the two essential forms of the individual substance, the forma partis (for instance, the individual soul) and the forma totius (the human nature). Paul identifies the principle of individuation with the informing act through which the specific nature molds its matter. This identification had been already suggested by the opposition between immanent and remote principles of individuation described in the Summa philosophiae naturalis. In fact, all the constituents of the individual compound (matter, form, and quantity) had been contrasted with the thisness, which for that reason could not be identified with any of them. Moreover, it is obvious that:
- It is the union of the singular form with its matter that establishes the "birth" of the individual.
- It is its separation from the matter that establishes the "death" of the individual.
- The union of the singular form with its matter is the necessary and sufficient condition for the passage of the specific essence from its abstract (or intensional) mode of being to its concrete (or extensional) mode of being.
Paul of Venice rejects the Augustinian conception of the relation of soul to body and follows the Aristotelian view of the soul as form of the body. But, against Aristotle and following Aquinas, Paul claims that, although it is the form of the body, the human soul is a self-subsistent form, and therefore incorruptible. However, unlike St. Thomas, he claims that the human soul is twofold, since the complete human soul derives from the close union of two distinct principles, the cogitative and the intellective ones. The former is the cause of the animality and the latter of the rationality of man; neither of them can exist in man without the other, and the cogitative soul is in potency in relation to the intellective soul (SN, part V, chap. 5, fol. 69ra; In De anima, book II, t. c. 23, fol. 48ra).
Like St. Thomas and Giles of Rome, Paul maintains that there is a real distinction between the soul and its faculties. But, in opposition to them, he holds that there is only a formal distinction (ratione et definitione) between the faculties themselves (SN, part VI, chap. 4, fol. 68ra–b). Whereas the faculties of the cogitative soul depend on bodily organs for their operations, the faculties of the intellective soul, i.e. the active intellect, the passive intellect, and the will, are independent of bodily organs, even though in the state of union with the body they need sensation for exercising their powers and no act of sensation can be produced without the concurrence of the body (SN, part V, chap. 10, fols. 71va–72ra). Besides the vegetative faculty (which regulates nutrition, growth, and reproduction) and the power of locomotion, the faculties of the cogitative soul are the following: the five exterior senses, the general sense (sensus communis), the fantasy (phantasia), the power of assessment (vis aestimativa), and memory. Against Avicenna, Paul explicitly denies that there is a fifth internal sense, the imagination, since he thinks its presumed operations are the same as those of the fantasy (SN, part V, chap. 30, fol. 84ra). The general sense distinguishes and collates the data of the special exterior senses. The fantasy conserves sensible species apprehended by senses and freely combines them together to produce figments. The power of assessment recognizes those properties of things which cannot be perceived through the senses, like, for example, that something is useful for a certain purpose, or friendly, or unfriendly. The memory is the ‘warehouse’ where all the sensible species are stored, so that the cogitative soul can perform its tasks even without the presence of any sensible object (SN, part V, chap. 30, fol. 84ra–va).
According to Nardi 1958, Ruello 1980, and Kuksewicz 1983, Paul was an Averroist in Psychology, as he would have supported the thesis of the unicity and separate character of the passive intellect for the whole human species. But this is false. On the contrary, Paul's point of view is close to that of St. Thomas for the question of the passive intellect, and to the position of Avicenna for the question of the active intellect (Conti 1992, especially pp. 338–47). If his affirmations in the Summa philosophiae naturalis are ambiguous and it is therefore possible to miss their deepest meaning, in his commentaries on the De anima and on the Metaphysics he clearly rejects all the main theses of the Averroism. First of all, he maintains personal immortality (a thesis denied by genuine Averroists) and, like the medieval followers of Avicenna, identifies active intellect with God's activity of ‘illumination’ in the soul (In De anima, book III, t. c. 11, fol. 137rb; t. c. 19, fol. 143ra). Secondly, he claims, against Averroes, that the intellective soul is form and act of the body (In De anima, book II, t. c. 7, fol. 39rb–va; t. c. 8, fol. 134rb). Moreover, he asserts that:
- The intentional species present in the exterior senses, in the internal senses, and in the intellect are of three different kinds.
- The individual is a proper object of intellection for us.
- The same intelligible species (species intelligibilis) by means of which we grasp substantial essences is the medium in virtue of which we can understand the peculiar structure of the individual which instantiates that essence. (SN, part V, chap. 28, fol. 83ra; In De anima, book III, t. c. 11, fol. 136vb; 137rb–va).
These theses are just the opposite of Averroist convictions. Finally, he explicitly argues against the unicity of the passive intellect, utilizing some arguments drawn from the De unitate intellectus contra Averroistas (On the Unicity of Intellect against the Averroists) and the Summa theologiae (Summa of Theology) of St. Thomas. Among them, the most important are the following three:
- If the soul is the form of the body, as Aristotle states, it is impossible that the passive intellect is one in all men, since one and the same principle in number cannot be the form of a multiplicity of substances.
- If the passive intellect is one and the same for all men, then after death nothing remains of men but this unique intellect, and in this way the bestowal of rewards and punishments is done away with.
- One and the same intellect could hold contradictory opinions at once, in apparent violation of the law of contradiction (In De anima, book III, t. c. 27, fol. 149ra; In Metaph., book IV, tr. 1, chap. 3, fols. 136vb–137ra).
More generally, he thinks (i) the Averroistic theses are lacking in a solid philosophical basis, since they can be maintained from the physical point of view only, according to which everything is considered qua affected by or connected with motion, but (ii) they are totally false from the metaphysical point of view, which is the most comprehensive of all. From this viewpoint, according to which the passive intellect has to be considered a substantial form, it is evident that it has a beginning in time, but certainly not an end, and that, like any other material substantial form, it is multiplied according to the multiplication of bodies (In Metaph., book XII, tr. 1, chap. 3, fol. 427ra–b).
Paul deals with the problem of divine ideas in his commentary on the book VII of the Metaphysics (tr. 3, chap. 2) and at the end of the Quaestio de universalibus (tenth conclusion: universalia platonica et idealia sunt ex natura rei in mente divina causaliter ponenda). The cornerstone of his theory of divine exemplarism is the conviction that there is a close parallelism between human artificers as producers of artifacts and God as a creator—only in this way, according to Paul, can the main goal of every theory of divine ideas (that is, the explanation of the rationality of creation as a free act of God) be achieved. Paul develops four rational pieces of evidence for supporting the thesis of the eternal existence in God's mind of a multiplicity of ideas, conceived of as the formal patterns and principles (exemplaria) of creatures.
The first argument goes as follows: since the prima causa produces individuals which differ in species (type) from each other (say men and horses), they are produced according to different formal principles, as the effects of the same principle are identical in type. The second is that if A and B are two different creatures (say a man and a donkey) that God is going to create, their mutual differences cannot be grounded on their own beings, since they are not yet existing things; therefore they have to be found in something pertaining to God's productive potency, which will act according to different principles present in it. The third argument is unsound: Paul argues that since in God each generic principle (ratio generis) is different from any corresponding specific principle (ratio speciei), therefore specific principles too are different from each other. Unfortunately, the proof he makes use of for showing the difference in reality between generic and specific principles is inconsistent. He affirms that if the generic and specific principles were not distinct, then God could not create something according to the generic principle without creating it according to a correlated specific principle—while this is just what happens, since no animal can be created which is not an animal of a certain species or type (a man, or a monkey, or a mouse). The fourth argument is that, since God knows that animal is the genus of man and that being-an-animal is included in the definition of man, He thinks of them by means of two different principles; otherwise He could not distinguish them (QdU, fols. 133vb–134ra).
In the commentary on the Metaphysics, the Italian master, after denying that the ideas are self-subsistent entities, as Plato thought, maintains that the meaning of the term ‘idea’ is twofold: (i) broadly speaking (communiter), an idea is a specific essence or nature (quidditas specifica), existing in a mind as a causal model for the production of something; (ii) properly speaking (proprie), an idea is a specific essence existing in God's mind as a causal model for the production of something (In Metaph., book VII, tr. 3, chap. 2, fol. 298va). From these definitions, which he considers consonant with the teaching of Aristotle and Averroes, Paul derives four consequences or theses, which, taken together, represent the very core of his theory of divine ideas:
- Ideas are ideas of specific essences and not ideas of genera or of individuals, because ideas are formal principles, and they are acts or forms in relation to any other thing; on the contrary, both genera and individuals are as matter in relation to species.
- Ideas are present in the mind as in a substrate, or subject, since ideas are the tools of the mind, and the mind can only use tools closely connected with and existentially dependent on it.
- Ideas are efficient causes (causae effectivae) in relation to their effects.
- Ideas are models (exemplaria) in relation to their effects, since their effects are similar to them. This entails that ideas are both direct objects of knowledge (obiecta cognita absolute) and that by means of which the mind knows something else (obiecta cognita respective), just as the phantasma is a direct object for our knowledge and that by means of which we know the individual from which it has been drawn. As a consequence—Paul adds—an idea is not the notion of something (cognitio rei), but the essence of a thing (quidditas rei) considered according to its intelligible being in a mind (In Metaph., book VII, tr. 3, chap. 2, fol. 298vb; see also QdU, fol. 134vb).
In sum, according to Paul, divine ideas play a threefold role in relation to God and creatures: they are (i) the specific essences of individual things themselves, considered according to their intelligible being in the mind of God; (ii) God's principles of cognition of creatures; and (iii) the eternal models of creatures. If we also take into account that in his opinion: (i) divine ideas are really the same as the divine essence and formally distinct from it, and that (ii) this distinction originates from their being efficient (con-)causes in relation to the different kinds of creatures, we can easily realize how close his position was to Wyclif's, which was considered heretical because of its consequences: metaphysical and theological necessitarism; restriction of divine omnipotence; denial of the process of transubstantiation in the Eucharist. In order to avoid this form of necessitarism, Paul, both in the commentary on the Metaphysics and in the Quaestio de universalibus, maintains that in God there is an infinite number of ideas, some of which only have been brought into existence by Him. In fact, there is a formal difference between the supreme principle of understanding of possibles, which is the divine essence itself as infinitely imitable ad extra, and divine ideas, which are the practical principles of the production of creatures (In Metaph., book VII, tr. 3, chap. 2, fol. 298va; see also QdU, fol. 135rb). But he admits that we should conclude that ideas in God are finite in number, if we considered the problem exclusively from the point of view of natural philosophy (ibidem).
The differences between Paul's doctrine and that of Thomas Aquinas, his main source, on the one hand, and Wyclif's, on the other hand, are evident. Paul agrees with Wyclif against Thomas that divine ideas are the specific essences of individual creatures, considered according to their intelligible being in the mind of God, and efficient (con-)causes in relation to the different kinds of creatures, while he agrees with Thomas against Wyclif that there is a distinction between being a mere principle of understanding (ratio) and being an effective model of production (exemplar). If Paul did not accept such a distinction, his theory would be substantially the same as Wyclif's. On the contrary, not only does he accept this Thomistic distinction, but he develops it in an autonomous way, which makes his admission of the existence of an infinite number of ideas in God superfluous. According to Thomas, divine rationes and divine exemplaria are two different types of ideas, the former linked to pure speculative knowledge only, the latter linked to practical knowledge. Only exemplaria are ideas in the strict sense of the term. Paul's definition of divine ideas excludes that the (Thomistic) divine rationes can be considered as ideas, since a divine idea is the (i) specific nature (of a certain set of individuals) existing in God's mind, (ii) principle of actuality, and (iii) efficient cause in relation to creatures. Now, the Thomistic rationes do not satisfy any of these requirements. Within Paul's system, what plays the role of the Thomistic rationes is the divine essence itself, which is the supreme principle of knowledge of possibles, but not an idea. Moreover, in Paul's view, divine ideas are formally distinct from the divine essence. This means that, in principle, the divine essence and divine ideas are different entities. In fact, Paul's definition of formal distinction inverts the terms of the question in relation to the preceding approaches, as Paul is attempting to reduce multiplicity to unity (the passage is from many to one). What Paul wants to account for is the way in which many different entities of a certain kind (i.e. of an incomplete and dependent mode of existence) can constitute one and the same substance. Hence, within Paul's theory of divine ideas the gap between the sphere of the possible and the sphere of the existent is deeper than in Thomas'. The possible is grounded on God considered as a knower, while the existent is grounded on God considered as a maker; ideas play a role in creation only, while the sole divine essence is sufficient for allowing God to know possibles (see In Metaph., book XII, tr. 2, chap. 3, part 2, fols. 466vb–467ra).
Therefore, Nicoletti's view can be summarized as follows: (i) divine ideas are really identical with and formally different from the divine essence; (ii) ideas are both direct, but secondary, objects of divine intellection (the primary object being the divine essence itself) and that by means of which God knows every existent other than Himself; (iii) there are no ideas of individuals or of prime matter. Paul's position is more influenced by (Neo-)platonic presuppositions than that of Thomas Aquinas. Aquinas appealed to a sort of non-real mode of existence of divine ideas, originating from the relations of imitability holding between divine essence and possible creatures, so that the existence of divine ideas is purely of reason. Paul of Venice tries the opposite way of hypostatizing ideas—his peculiar version of the formal distinction enable him to do so without breaking the divine simplicity. He can therefore claim that the divine essence is the substrate of divine ideas, as if they were a sort of accidents inhering in a substance. As a consequence, the statement that the ideas are direct but secondary objects of divine intellection means that God's intellection first grasps the divine essence and then ideas, even though God's intuition of Himself and God's intuition of ideas are not distinct. In fact, divine ideas are not the specific natures of creatures as creatures are conceived of terminative in themselves by God, but as they are conceived of subiective in Him, that is, by means of a different reality (the divine essence) and according to their relation of ontological dependence upon the divine essence itself. The identity between divine ideas and the esse ideale proper to specific natures, and the relation of one-to-many holding between specific natures and the individuals which originate from them, explain how God can know individuals perfectly—even though mediately, through ideas. In fact, infinite individual causal principles derive from one and the same divine idea, formally distinct from each other. They correspond to the thisnesses (haecceitates), which on the level of existence give rise to individuals from species. As thisnesses are the formal principles in virtue of which individuals are what they are, something particular, concrete, and perfectly determined in itself, so these individual causal principles deriving from ideas are what causes the passage from the specific ideal standard to the analytical description of its instantiations (QdU, fol. 135ra). Prime matter, which is a necessary constituent of any corporeal thing, is known by God in the same way as individuals are: not in itself, but derivatively in something else (ibidem, fol. 135rb).
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