#### Supplement to Defeasible Reasoning

## Models of Higher-Order Probability

A model of higher-order probability consists of *W*, a set of
possible worlds, together with a function that assigns to each world
*w* a probability function μ_{w}. Let's
assume that these probability functions are non-standard, that is,
they may assign infinitesimal probabilities to some sets of
worlds. Let [*W*] be the partition of *W* in terms of
probabilistic agreement: worlds *w* and * w'*
belong to the same cell of [

*W*] just in case they are assigned exactly the same probability function.

Let *A* be a subset of [*W*]. The set-theoretic union of
*A*,
∪*A*,
is a proposition expressible entirely in terms of probabilities (that
is, entirely in terms of Boolean combinations of ⇒
conditionals). In the finite case, Miller's principle states that, for
all worlds *w* and all propositions *B* and
*C*:

μ

(_{w}C/B∩ ∪A) = Σ_{w′ ∈ ∪A}μ_{w′}(C/B) × μ_{w}({w})

The logic of extreme higher-order probabilities consists of Lewis's
*VC* conditional logic, minus Strong Centering, and plus the following
two axiom schemata, which I call Skyrms's axioms (Koons 2000, Appendix
B):

(

p⇒ (q⇒r)) ↔ ((p&q) ⇒r)[(

p⇒ ¬(q⇒r)) & ¬((p&q) ⇒ ⊥)] ↔ ¬((p&q) ⇒r)In both cases, “

p” must be a Boolean combination of ⇒-conditionals. The variables “q” and “r” may be replaced by any two formulas. The formula ¬((p&q) ⇒ ⊥) expresses the joint possibility ofpandq(in the sense that they don't defeasibly imply a logical absurdity, ⊥).