#### Supplement to Set Theory

## Zermelo-Fraenkel Set Theory

### Axioms of ZF

Extensionality:

$\forall x\forall y[\forall z (\left.z \in x\right. \leftrightarrow \left. z \in y\right.) \rightarrow x=y]$

This axiom asserts that when sets *x* and *y*
have the same members, they are the same set.

The next axiom asserts the existence of the empty set:

Null Set:

$\exists x \neg\exists y (y \in x)$

Since it is provable from this axiom and the previous axiom that there is a unique such set, we may introduce the notation ‘$\varnothing$’ to denote it.

The next axiom asserts that if given any set *x* and
*y*, there exists a pair set of *x* and *y*,
i.e., a set which has only *x* and *y* as members:

Pairs:

$\forall x\forall y \exists z \forall w (w\in z \leftrightarrow w=x \lor w=y)$

Since it is provable that there is a unique pair set for each given
*x* and *y*, we introduce the notation
‘{*x*,*y*}’ to denote it.

The next axiom asserts that for any set *x*, there is a set
*y* which contains as members all those sets whose members are
also elements of *x*, i.e., *y* contains all of the
subsets of *x*:

Power Set:

$\forall x \exists y \forall z[z\in y \leftrightarrow \forall w(w\in z \rightarrow w\in x)]$

Since every set provably has a unique ‘power set’, we
introduce the notation
‘$\mathscr{P}(x)$’
to denote it. Note also that we may define the notion *x is a
subset of y* (‘$x \subseteq y$’) as:
$\forall z(z\in x\rightarrow z\in y)$.
Then we may simplify the statement of the Power Set Axiom as
follows:

$\forall x \exists y\forall z(z\in y \leftrightarrow z \subseteq x)$

The next axiom asserts that for any given set *x*, there is a
set *y* which has as members all of the members of all of the
members of *x*:

Unions:

$\forall x\exists y\forall z[z\in y \leftrightarrow \exists w(w\in x \land z\in w)]$

Since it is provable that there is a unique ‘union’ of
any set *x*, we introduce the notation
‘$\bigcup x$’ to denote it.

The next axiom asserts the existence of an infinite set, i.e., a set with an infinite number of members:

Infinity:

$\exists x[\varnothing\in x \land \forall y(y\in x \rightarrow \bigcup\{y,\{y\}\}\in x)]$

We may think of this as follows. Let us define *the union of x
and y* (‘$x\cup y$’) as the union of
the pair set of *x* and *y*, i.e., as
$\bigcup \{x,y\}$. Then the Axiom of Infinity asserts that
there is a set *x* which contains $\varnothing$ as a member and which
is such that whenever a set *y* is a member of *x*,
then $y\cup\{y\}$ is a member of
*x*. Consequently, this axiom guarantees the existence of a
set of the following form:

$\{\varnothing,\{\varnothing\},\{\varnothing,\{\varnothing\}\},\{\varnothing,\{\varnothing\},\{\varnothing,\{\varnothing\}\}\},\ldots\}$

Notice that the second element, $\{\varnothing \}$, is in this set because (1) the fact that $\varnothing$ is in the set implies that $\varnothing \cup \{\varnothing \}$ is in the set and (2) $\varnothing \cup \{\varnothing \}$ just is $\{\varnothing\}$. Similarly, the third element, $\{\varnothing,\{\varnothing\}\}$, is in this set because (1) the fact that $\{\varnothing\}$ is in the set implies that $\{\varnothing \} \cup\{\{\varnothing \}\}$ is in the set and (2) $\{\varnothing \} \cup \{\{\varnothing \}\}$ just is $\{\varnothing, \{\varnothing \}\}$. And so forth.

The next axiom is the *Separation Schema*, which asserts the
existence of a set that contains the elements of a given
set *w* that satisfy a certain condition $\psi$. That is,
suppose that $\psi(x,\hat{u})$ has
*x* free and may or may not have $u_1,\ldots,u_k$ free. And
let $\psi_{x,\hat{u}}[r,\hat{u}]$ be the result of
substituting *r* for *x* in $\psi(x,\hat{u})$. Then the
Separation Schema asserts:

Separation Schema:

$\forall u_1 \ldots\forall u_k [\forall w\exists v\forall r(r\in v \leftrightarrow r\in w \land \psi_{x,\hat{u}}[r,\hat{u}])]$

In other words, if given a formula $\psi$ and a set *w*, there
exists a set *v* which has as members precisely the members
of *w* which satisfy the formula $\psi$.

The next axiom of ZF is the Replacement Schema. Suppose that
$\phi(x,y,\hat{u})$ is a formula with *x* and *y* free,
and let $\hat{u}$ represent the variables $u_1,\ldots u_k,$ which may
or may not be free in $\phi$. Furthermore, let
$\phi_{x,y,\hat{u}}[s,r,\hat{u}]$ be the result of
substituting *s* and *r* for
*x* and *y*, respectively, in
$\phi(x,y,\hat{u})$. Then every instance of
the following schema is an axiom:

Replacement Schema:

$\forall u_1 \ldots\forall u_k [\forall x\exists!y\phi(x,y,\hat{u})\rightarrow \forall w\exists v\forall r(r\in v\leftrightarrow \exists s(s\in w \land \phi_{x,y,\hat{u}}[s,r,\hat{u}]))]$

In other words, if we know that $\phi$ is a functional
formula (which relates each set *x* to a unique set *y*),
then if we are given a set *w*, we can form a new set
*v* as follows: collect all of the sets to which the members
of *w* are uniquely related by $\phi$.

Note that the Replacement Schema can take you ‘out of’ the set
*w* when forming the set *v*. The elements of
*v* need not be elements of *w*. By contrast,
the Separation Schema of Zermelo only yields subsets of
the given set *w*.

The final axiom asserts that every set is ‘well-founded’:

Regularity:

$\forall x[x\ne\varnothing\rightarrow\exists y(y\in x\land\forall z(z\in x \rightarrow\neg(z\in y)))]$

A member *y* of a set *x* with this property is called
a ‘minimal’ element. This axiom rules out the existence of
circular chains of sets (e.g., such as
$x\in y \land y\in z \land$ and $z\in x$)
as well as infinitely
descending chains of sets (such as …
$x_3\in x_2\in x_1\in x_0$).