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Heinrich Cornelius Agrippa von Nettesheim

First published Fri Mar 30, 2007

Heinrich Cornelius Agrippa von Nettesheim (1486–1535) had two very different and contradictory identities. He was the author of the most comprehensive and most widely known book on magic and all occult arts, De occulta philosophia libri tres / Three Books of Occult Philosophy (henceforth cited as OP, followed by book and chapter number), but also the author of a sweeping attack on every field of human learning (including magic and the occult arts), De incertitudine et vanitate scientiarum et artium, atque excellentia Verbi Dei, declamatio invectiva / On the Uncertainty and Vanity of the Arts and Sciences: An Invective Declamation (1530; henceforth cited as De vanitate, followed by chapter number). In his own century, both books were widely known, frequently reprinted, and often denounced as dangerous and heretical. They were translated from Latin into many vernacular languages, especially De vanitate. Students of the more recondite (and least respectable) branches of natural philosophy and occult sciences pored over De occulta philosophia, some of them seeking alternatives to the Aristotelian natural philosophy taught in the universities, others seeking less conventional goals, such as success in alchemical operations or the ability to use magical secrets in order to control both the natural world and the world of spirits. Readers of De vanitate regarded it variously as a skeptical or at least anti-rationalistic attack on human learning and the ability of the human mind to gain truth, or as a denunciation of religious hypocrisy and corruption and of social injustice, or (as the French translator suggested in the title of his edition 1582) simply as an amusing satire that would please readers who wanted to shock people by saying things contrary to conventional opinion. Those who proclaimed themselves to be pious, led by the friars and theologians of the universities, denounced both books and also their author – regarded by some as a sorcerer and associate of demons, detested by others as an irreverent mocker and subverter of religion and good morals.

Those who seriously considered both books were puzzled how the same author could have produced two such discordant books. Indeed, not only were Agrippa's contemporaries puzzled but also those who have studied him in later centuries: how could the same author have produced both a credulous collection of ancient, medieval, and recent magic and also an incredulous and destructive repudiation of all ranks of society and all fields of learning, including his own magical work?

Agrippa provides a clear demonstration that the eagerness of Renaissance humanists to recover the works of the ancients included not only authors regarded as “respectable” by modern classical scholars but also a vast body of ancient (or pseudo-ancient) texts that claimed to offer wisdom going back to the very origins of human civilization, the so-called “ancient theology” (prisca theologia), such as the Hermetic texts from ancient Egypt, the Chaldean Oracles and writings of Zoroaster from Mesopotamia and Persia, the teachings attributed to Pythagoras and supposedly passed on from him to Plato and his followers the Platonists, and the secret Jewish books known as Cabala, which claimed to present the full meaning of the Hebrew Scriptures concealed beneath the words of the text (see Walker 1958 and 1972, and Yates 1964). Such learning was esoteric by its very nature, something potentially powerful and dangerous, and hence to be concealed from the masses and entrusted only to those who were morally and intellectually qualified to possess it. Agrippa was one of the leading experts of his century on this “spiritual” and theosophical kind of ancient wisdom. He was already deeply engaged in such studies in his youth, culminating in the early version of De occulta philosophia that he presented to Johannes Trithemius (1462–1516), abbot of Sponheim, in 1510. Close examination of his sources reveals that he continued these studies of ancient occult wisdom during his lengthy residence in Italy, where the presence of many disciples of the Florentine Neoplatonists and of the largest and most flourishing Jewish community in Europe deepened his mastery of this ancient learning. Agrippa, who wanted to purge magic of the superstitious and dangerous rituals of medieval witches and sorcerers but (unlike the Florentine Neoplatonists) did not conceal his continuing interest in medieval magic, represents the merger of popular and intellectual magical learning as well as the union of northern European and Italian occultism.

1. Biography

Thanks to the preservation of a large body of Agrippa's correspondence, his life is well documented between 1507, the year of his earliest known letter, and 1534. He was born at Cologne on 14 September 1486, the son of local citizens, and matriculated at the University of Cologne in 1499, completing his BA in 1500 and MA in 1502. His interest in occult philosophy was probably a product of his studies there. In 1519, he described the Speculum of Albertus Magnus, whose philosophy was one of the two scholastic traditions taught in the Cologne faculty of arts, as the first major influence on his intellectual development (Opera, 2: 734). Although Cologne became notorious for its hostility to humanistic influences, Agrippa studied with several humanist teachers, including two who stimulated his interest in the natural philosophy of Pliny the Elder and the writings of the late-medieval Catalan mystic and metaphysician Ramon Lull (ca. 1232-ca.1315).

Agrippa's biographers have debated whether he ever received any degree beyond his MA from Cologne in 1502. He later claimed to be a doctor of both laws (civil and canon) and of medicine. While there is no record of a university degree in either subject, his official duties as city orator and advocatus at Metz implied legal training, and the city's records refer to him as a doctor of laws. His close friend Claude Chansonnette, who became a distinguished representative of the movement known as juristic humanism, in 1520 requested Agrippa's opinion on his newly published legal treatise. Evidence for a medical doctorate is less strong but not totally lacking. The most persuasive evidence is his apparently successful practice of medicine in several cities. Many medical faculties in the sixteenth century granted doctorates within a few months of matriculation, and Agrippa spent considerable time in university towns where he could have studied law or medicine. During his residence at Geneva in 1521–23, the city licensed him to practice medicine. He also became city physician for the Swiss city of Fribourg in March of 1523. When he joined the French court at Lyons (May, 1524), he became a personal physician to Louise of Savoy, mother of the king. At Antwerp in 1528, he supported his family by practicing medicine until he secured an appointment at the imperial court.

The years between his graduation in 1502 and his arrival in Italy, probably in 1511, are hard to trace. He spent some time in Paris and acquired friends who shared his interest in occult sciences. What he studied there—even whether he studied at the university in any regular way—is uncertain. Even less certain is the nature of a mysterious expedition to Spain, apparently military, by him and two of his Paris friends in 1508. His early letters are full of the Latin names of French friends who shared his interests in humanism and the occult, and some of them may be identified with known historical figures such as the artist Jean Perréal (ca. 1460–1530) and the humanists Germain de Ganay (d. 1520), Germain de Brie (d. 1538), Charles de Bouelles (1479–1567), and Symphorien Champier (1472–1532).

In 1509 Agrippa had an opportunity to lecture at the University of Dôle. His lectures were on Johann Reuchlin's Cabalistic book De verbo mirifico (1494), which used Cabalistic exegetical techniques to prove from the Hebrew Bible that Jesus Christ was the true Messiah and that the name “Jesus” was a source of miraculous power. Since this line of argument also implied some respect for Jewish biblical scholarship, however, the lectures offended some conservative listeners. The Franciscan minister provincial, Jean Catilinet, denounced Agrippa as “a judaizing heretic,” and this attack doomed his hope of gaining the favor of the regent, Margaret of Austria, by dedicating to her his treatise praising the excellence of the female sex. Though he wrote an Expostulatio protesting against the unfairness of the friars' attack, he abandoned Dôle and returned to Cologne.

Late in 1509 or early in 1510, he spent several days at Würzburg discussing his occult studies with a famous expert on the subject, the abbot Trithemius of Sponheim. Encouraged by their conversation, Agrippa completed a draft of his major work on magic, De occulta philosophia, and presented a copy to his elderly friend. Agrippa may have entered the service of the Emperor Maximilian I shortly afterward and probably accompanied an imperial diplomatic mission to England. In London, he attended lectures by the learned John Colet (1467–1519) on the Epistles of St. Paul, but his immediate goal was military service in Italy, where he probably arrived in 1511. His military record is another obscure topic. He claimed to have been knighted in battle while in Italy and to have attended the anti-papal Council of Pisa, probably in the emperor's service.

His seven years in Italy (1511–18), spent mainly at Pavia, Casale Monferrato, and Turin, exposed Agrippa to a humanist culture that was strongly influenced by Neoplatonic, Hermetic, and Cabalistic texts. His mastery of these sources of occult learning became both broader and deeper because of his contact with Italian occultists who shared his interests. Sometime in 1515 he settled in Pavia and gave public lectures on the Hermetic treatise Pimander. He also married a woman from Pavia. In 1516 he dedicated to the marquis of Monferrato his short Dialogus de homine and a more important treatise, De triplici ratione cognoscendi Deum. Agrippa also lectured at the University of Turin, but his efforts to secure a position at the court of the duke of Savoy were unsuccessful. While in Savoy, he did become friends with members of the Laurencin family, influential Lyonese bankers, who were probably attracted by his understanding of alchemy and astrology. Through their family connections, he was appointed advocatus and orator by the self-governing imperial city of Metz, a well-paid position as legal advisor to the city council.

His arrival in Metz in February of 1518 brought Agrippa back to northern Europe just at the moment when Germany was about to experience a great spiritual upheaval, initially among humanist intellectuals, captivated by the Erasmian ideal of a moderate religious reform, and then among the masses, captivated by the more drastic reforms inspired by Martin Luther. Metz, part of the Holy Roman Empire but French-speaking, soon felt the influence of both Erasmus and his French counterpart, Jacques Lefèvre d'Étaples.

Agrippa spent the next six years in three French-speaking cities located on the western fringe of the Empire, Metz (1518–20), Geneva (1521–23), and Fribourg (1523–24), with a brief interval at Cologne after he left Metz in 1520. In all three locations, he seems to have been successful in his professional work, as city legal counsel at Metz and as civic physician in Geneva and Fribourg. In each city, he gathered a circle of friends who shared his interests in humanist and occult learning and in the nascent religious reform movement. He acquired and circulated books by Luther, Erasmus, and other “Evangelical” and humanist reformers while at Metz; and he probably continued this activity at Geneva and Fribourg. Although some historians have treated Agrippa as an influence on the early penetration of Protestant ideas into Geneva, at that early date he and his friends in all three cities were essentially reform-minded humanists inspired by Erasmus and Lefèvre, not a proto-Protestant conventicle. On the journey from Cologne to Geneva in 1521, his Italian wife fell ill and died. In Geneva, he took a local woman as his second wife.

While at Metz, Agrippa became involved in two controversies that pitted him against conservative mendicant friars who regarded humanist reformers as Lutheran heretics and who, as inquisitors, led the search for witches. He intervened successfully in the defense of an elderly peasant woman from a prosecution for witchcraft that he maintained was motivated by the desire to seize her small property, a conspiracy in which (he claimed) the Dominican inquisitor and other court officials had colluded. This case has attracted the attention of later historians of witchcraft trials.

The second and more contentious conflict with the mendicant friars involved Lefèvre. In 1518 the French humanist published two short books that challenged certain legends about the Virgin Mary as unscriptural. These books came under attack from conservatives in the Paris faculty of theology. News of this controversy soon reached Metz; and Agrippa and his friends discussed the issues, particularly Lefèvre's criticism of a legend that attributed multiple marriages to St. Anne, the mother of the Virgin. Agrippa upheld Lefèvre's opinion and was promptly denounced as a heretic by mendicant preachers. In the face of this attack, Agrippa wrote a defense of Lefèvre, De beatissimae Annae monogamia. The hostility of the friars probably was the main reason why he decided to resign his position and move temporarily to Cologne.

Agrippa's switch from law to the practice of medicine at Geneva seems to have been successful. He was licensed to practice medicine and appointed director of the city hospital. Both at Geneva and at Fribourg, he was well paid and seems to have practiced successfully. Fribourg, however, was far more religiously conservative than Geneva or Metz. Yet his resignation only six months after his arrival occurred not because of the city's religious policies, which forbade possession of “Lutheran” books, but because he was seeking a more distinguished office.

That more distinguished office was at the French court as one of the physicians attendant on the king's mother, Louise of Savoy. He arrived in Lyons, the wartime capital, in May of 1524. Initially, he found his new position satisfactory. He was at the center of power, close to the woman who directed government during the king's absence for his military campaign in Italy and his lengthy captivity in Spain after his defeat at Pavia in February of 1525. Agrippa probably still had connections with humanists at court whom he had known during his earlier periods in France. But his effort to win the favor of the king's influential sister, Marguerite of Alençon (1492–1549; after her remarriage in 1527, known as Marguerite of Navarre), an important patron of humanists, poets, and reform-minded clergymen, was a failure. He dedicated to her a work in praise of marriage, for which he received a modest gift but acquired no lasting connection.

Agrippa's career at Lyons falls into two phases: a hopeful early one and an increasingly troubled later one. His problems began with difficulty in getting payment of the pension he had been promised, partly because of administrative problems but mainly because of the financial and political crisis caused by the king's captivity in Spain. Agrippa's financial situation became desperate. Things got even worse in February 1526, when Louise of Savoy left Lyons for an extended trip, depriving him of access to his patron. His urgent pleas for help in securing payment eventually became tiresome to many courtiers, and his foolish threats to defect to the imperialist cause made his situation worse. In the midst of his personal crisis in the summer of 1526, he composed his second major book, De vanitate, which may reflect his bleak personal situation. That same summer, he offended the queen-mother when he refused to make an astrological prognostication for her son because he regarded predictions of the future of individuals as superstitious and contrary to church law. Louise, a firm believer in astrology, resented his refusal. Early in October, he learned that his name had been stricken from the pension list. After his pension was cancelled, he abandoned hope of regaining favor in France; and despite the dangers of travel over the war-torn Flemish border, he moved to Antwerp in July of 1528.

Agrippa's wife contracted the plague and died at Antwerp in March 1529. Despite this personal loss, he was hopeful of winning the patronage of the governor of the Netherlands, Margaret of Austria. Though he had hoped for a higher office, he eventually accepted an appointment as imperial archivist and historiographer. He wrote several brief works as historiographer, including an account of the coronation of Charles V as Holy Roman Emperor in 1530 and a funeral oration later that year for Margaret of Austria.

Far more important to Agrippa's lasting reputation was his decision to begin publishing his writings with Antwerp printers. In 1529 Michael Hillenius published his first book, a collection of short treatises and orations, mostly from his Italian period, but including his little work on female excellence, which he finally presented to Margaret two decades after he wrote it in Dôle. In January he received an imperial license to print several titles, including both De occulta philosophia and De vanitate. In 1530, Cornelius Grapheus printed the first edition of De vanitate. The following year, Grapheus produced a partial edition (Book One) of De occulta philosophia.

In terms of his relations with the regent, publication of De vanitate was an error. Its sharp criticism of the mendicant orders and many practices of the church led the friars to strike back with charges of impiety and Lutheran heresy. Margaret referred the matter to the theological faculty of Louvain, which condemned the book as scandalous, impious, and heretical. The condemnation came before the Parlement (high court) at Mechelen, and Agrippa was dismissed from his appointment at court and presented with a demand to suppress his book. He responded not by submission but by quickly producing two works of self-defense, a brief Querela denouncing the “theosophists” who had brought the charges and a much longer Apologia replying point by point to the accusations. His resistance and angry talk about declaring war against the monks made his position at court even worse.

More realistic than his stubborn self-defense was his effort to find a new patron. The archbishop-elector of Cologne, Hermann von Wied (1477–1552), was interested in Agrippa's occult learning and sympathetic to moderate religious reform. In 1531, Agrippa had dedicated the partial edition of De occulta philosophia to him; and in March of 1532, he spent about a month at Bonn as the archbishop's guest. His efforts to regain favor in Flanders continued, but without success. Fearing arrest by creditors who had already caused him to be imprisoned briefly for unpaid debt, in June 1532 he suddenly moved to Bonn.

Agrippa was a member of the archbishop's court from 1532 until sometime in 1534. His letters show him living comfortably in attendance on Archbishop Hermann and in close touch with members of Hermann's household who shared his interest in the occult sciences. He continued his efforts to publish his writings and to defend them against the theologians. The Cologne printer Johannes Soter was at work on the complete De occulta philosophia in November of 1532 when the Dominican inquisitor charged that the forthcoming book was heretical. The Cologne city council promptly ordered Soter to stop work and impounded the sections already printed. Agrippa addressed an impassioned protest to the council, dated 11 January 1533. Its blunt tone, denouncing the inquisitor and the other Cologne theologians as a pack of sophists who hated humanistic studies and attacked books they were not competent to judge, probably did not mollify his critics; but the archbishop overruled the inquisitor and De occulta philosophia was finally published in July of 1533.

In the face of attacks on De vanitate by conservatives at Louvain and the regent's court, followed in 1532–33 by efforts at Cologne to prevent publication of De occulta philosophia, Agrippa adopted an aggressive tone that shows that he cared profoundly about the fate of his books. During his brief correspondence with Erasmus in 1531–33, he reported that he had declared “war against the monks,” reflecting a combative spirit that Erasmus regretted, especially since Agrippa's letters stated that he based his “war” on Erasmian principles and hence might stir up attacks against Erasmus himself.

Paola Zambelli (1965: 220–23) has presented a plausible case for Agrippa as the real author of another outspoken defense of De vanitate, published under a pseudonym in 1534 without the name of the publisher but identifiable as a product of Soter's print-shop at Cologne. The title of this book, which purports to be written in defense of Agrippa by a Cistercian monk, is Dialogus de vanitate scientiarum et ruina Christianae religionis / Dialogue on the Vanity of the Sciences and the Ruin of the Christian Religion; and in addition to defending Agrippa, it denounces the evils of the age and predicts apocalyptic disasters. In 1534 Agrippa also published the first edition of his polemic defending Lefèvre against the mendicants of Metz, De beatissimae Annae monogamia / On the Monogamy of St. Anne. The probable motivation for this publication was his desire to identify his current controversies with the cause of humanist religious reform associated with Lefèvre and Erasmus. Agrippa was still living at Bonn on 22 February 1534 when he addressed a legal memorandum to the Parlement of the Netherlands at Mechelen. This document, discovered and edited by Zambelli (1965: 305–12), repeats his charges of unfair and illegal procedure by both the theologians and the Habsburg government. After this letter and the publication of Dialogus de vanitate (if it really is his work), there are no further documents from Agrippa himself.

Though he never attained fame comparable to that of Erasmus and Lefèvre, Agrippa was widely recognized in his own time as an important though unconventional scholar. He was both famous and (in some quarters) infamous. Because of his lifelong interest in subjects associated with diabolical influences, hostile legends about him accumulated. A gossipy collection of character sketches of famous people, Elogia doctorum virorum, by the Italian historian Paolo Giovio, was the source of many legends, including stories that he used magical arts to bring victories to the emperor's armies; that he commanded a demon to enter the body of a lodger who died in his study and make it walk outside so that death would occur on the street and not in Agrippa's home; or that he died in poverty in a disreputable inn at Lyons, abandoned even by the devil in the form of a dog who had been his constant companion. Several authors claimed that he left Bonn because the emperor had banished him from Germany.

Although there is no proof that he was exiled, in 1534 or 1535, Agrippa did return to France. His former pupil Johann Wier (1515–65), who became a prominent physician and wrote one of the most important books of the century opposing witchcraft trials, is the most reliable source for the end of Agrippa's life. Wier denied many of the wild stories about Agrippa's association with devils and also his authorship of a work of undeniably demonic magic, the Fourth Book of Occult Philosophy, which was published in 1559. Wier also adds additional biographical information. According to him, after the death of his second wife, Agrippa married a third wife at Mechelen but repudiated her in 1535 at Bonn. Also in 1535 he left Bonn for Lyons, where Francis I had him arrested for his published criticisms of the king's mother; but he was freed through the intercession of friends and died a few months later (probably in 1535) at Grenoble. Two later French antiquaries confirm Wier's account that Agrippa died at Grenoble. The reason for his departure from Bonn is unknown, but it is clear that he still had loyal friends in France who came to his rescue. Three of his children are documented in later French court records as residents of Saint-Antoine-de-Viennois under the surname Corneille-Agrippa (Nauert 1965: 114).

Paola Zambelli (1961) has suggested that unpublished works by Agrippa may have survived after his death. Sisto da Siena (1520–69), a Dominican inquisitor, quotes passages from a book called Adversus lamiarum inquisitores, attributed to Agrippa. The quotations cannot be found in any known work by Agrippa, but their focus on inquisitors' use of faulty legal principles in prosecuting witches is similar to his arguments in the witchcraft trial at Metz. Zambelli thinks it possible that Sisto as an inquisitor might have had access to unpublished manuscripts by Agrippa in the inquisition's library at Rome.

2. The Expansion of Agrippa's Horizons

Agrippa aimed to bring about a renewal of religion, culture, and society through rejection of false, oppressive medieval traditions and authorities and through recovery of a heritage of (supposedly) ancient wisdom that included occult texts not much emphasized in the early Italian Renaissance but increasingly influential from the beginning of Marsilio Ficino's work as a translator in the 1460's. This goal is evident in both the early manuscript (1510) and the vastly expanded printed edition (1533) of De occulta philosophia. Yet it is also evident in shorter works like De triplici ratione cognoscendi Deum / On Three Ways of Knowing God, De originali peccato/ On Original Sin, and Dialogus de homine/ A Dialogue on Man, all of them composed in Italy about 1515–16, and in various lectures, most of which also come from his years in Italy (1511–18). These works reflect influence by the Florentine philosophers Marsilio Ficino (1433–99) and Giovanni Pico della Mirandola (1464–94), as well as by the Hermetic treatises first translated from Greek by Ficino and the supposedly ancient (but largely medieval) tracts of Jewish Cabala, especially as interpreted in the Christianized Cabala of the German humanist Johann Reuchlin. Vittoria Perrone Compagni, in her 1992 edition of De occulta philosophia, demonstrated that the text of 1510 shows that Agrippa already knew the writings of Ficino in which he developed his concept of spiritual magic, De vita coelitus comparanda / On Drawing Life Down from the Heavans and parts of Theologia platonica, but at that point cited no other works of Ficino except his translations of the Hermetica. Before his experience in Italy he also knew some of Pico's work, probably only Oratio de hominis dignitate / Oration on the Dignity of Man and Apologia (OP, ed. Perrone Compagni 1992: 15–16).

Also influential from the time of Agrippa's studies at the University of Cologne were the voluminous scientific information amassed in the genuinely classical Natural History of Pliny the Elder and in the logical treatise Ars parva by the late medieval Catalan thinker Ramon Lull, on which Agrippa wrote a commentary. Perrone Compagni also emphasizes the early influence of two works (one genuine, the other spurious) attributed to the thirteenth-century Dominican philosopher Albertus Magnus, who was a revered philosophical authority at Cologne, where Agrippa received his education in the liberal arts. In most cases, Agrippa's citations of these authorities in De occulta philosophia appear in portions of that work that already existed in 1510.

Ficino and Pico were Agrippa's source for philosophical texts that formed the theoretical basis for his conception of magic, the works of Plato, the Alexandrian Neoplatonists (especially Plotinus), and the Hermetic texts, all of which Ficino had translated into Latin. From the Florentines, he took the concept of a prisca theologia, the body of books by ancient sages who were believed to antedate even the Greek philosophers and to record divine revelations that paralleled God's revelation to the ancient Hebrews in the Bible. These sages included Zoroaster and the Oracula Chaldaica (Chaldean Oracles), representing the primordial wisdom of the Persians and Babylonians; Hermes Trismegistus, who preserved the ancient wisdom of the Egyptian priests; and Pythagoras, the semi-mythical Greek sage who supposedly passed along the wisdom of the Egyptians, Babylonians, and Persians to later Greek philosophy. The texts containing the writings attributed to these sages, most of which are later forgeries, supposedly preserved a divine revelation to each of the ancient civilizations. Through Pythagoras, this primordial wisdom was passed on to the Greek philosophers, but mainly to Plato and his disciples, especially the late-classical philosophers whom post-Renaissance scholarship calls Neoplatonists, such Plotinus, Porphyry, Iamblicus, and Proclus. Ficino referred to them collectively as “Platonists” (Platonici) and interpreted Plato's thought in ways influenced by them. In the opinion of Ficino, followed by Agrippa and most contemporaries, the Platonici represented not just an ancient philosophy but a divinely inspired tradition of magical wisdom. Modern scholarship frequently applies the term prisca theologia to the learning of these thinkers, especially to Pythagoras and the ancient sages who supposedly preceded him. In late antiquity, the tradition was closely linked not only to theosophical spirituality but also to magic. These ancient or pseudo-ancient sages provided Agrippa and his reformed magic with a claim to antiquity and respectability that masked his continued use of the less respectable magical authors and works of the Middle Ages, such as Arnold of Villanova, Pietro d'Abano, the Picatrix (the Latin version of a medieval Arabic book of magic), and more respectable medieval philosophers like Alkindi, Avicenna, and Roger Bacon.

Another major source of Agrippa's ideas on magic was the Christianized Cabalism of the pioneering German Hebraist Johann Reuchlin, whose De verbo mirifico (1494) was nearly the only source of knowledge about Jewish Cabalism available to Agrippa in 1510. Reuchlin minimized the value of the ancient Platonists and the other non-Christian prisci theologi, confining his concept of ancient wisdom mainly to works in the Jewish and Christian religious traditions, though he was also influenced by Ficino and Pico. The Cabalistic tracts, most of which were really medieval in origin, were closely associated with mystical contemplation but also with magical power arising from use of divine names derived from Scripture by secret techniques of manipulating the text. The major purpose of Reuchlin's book was to prove to the Jews, on the basis of their own religious literature, that Jesus was the true Messiah. Reuchlin claimed that Cabalistic manipulation of the Hebrew letters of the ineffable name of God, IHVH, produced a five-letter name, IHSVH, or Jesus, which was the true name of God and conferred on its user powers that were divine in origin, far above the power of nature.

Agrippa embraced Reuchlin's views on the power of divine and angelic names and lectured on his book at Dôle in 1509. Aside from Ficino's Hermetic and Neoplatonist books, De verbo mirifico was the most important influence on the youthful draft of De occulta philosophia. At that period, he knew little about Cabala beyond Reuchlin's book, though while in Italy, he pursued his study of the Cabalistic tradition much further. Even then, he never gained more than an elementary knowledge of Hebrew and could use only the materials for which there was a Latin text or for which he could rely on an informant who could explain Cabala to him.

De occulta philosophia in its early form showed Agrippa's determination to transform magic into a useful science that would draw together all branches of magical learning, set those materials into a single philosophical framework, purge magic of the evil and demonic practices that had caused it to be regarded as a wicked science, and turn it into knowledge that would be beneficial to humanity. His goal was a total regeneration of magic, transforming it into a science that would enable the magus, or learned practitioner of magic, to perform marvelous works that would contribute to the welfare of humanity.

Survival of the early manuscript of De occulta philosophia at Würzburg made it possible for Vittoria Perrone Compagni to publish a critical edition of the magical treatise, incorporating the early version into the mature text of 1533. The notes to her edition document the remarkable growth of Agrippa's familiarity with Cabalistic, Hermetic, and Neoplatonic sources between 1510 and 1533. He added not only new occult sources but also a more comprehensive philosophical framework for the study of magic.

The increase in his knowledge is striking. To his limited familiarity with the works of Ficino and Pico, he added materials drawn from Ficino's commentaries on both Plato and Plotinus and several significant works of Giovanni Pico (Conclusiones, Heptaplus, and Disputationes) of which there is no trace in the original manuscript. Another important addition to his knowledge of occult learning is a strange blend of Christian, Hermetic, and millennial ideas found in a dialogue, Crater Hermetis, by an eccentric Italian scholar, Ludovico Lazzarelli (1450–1500). He may have known this book before he went to Italy, since it was published at Paris in 1505 by a French humanist whom Agrippa admired greatly, Jacques Lefèvre d'Étaples, and since it is cited both in the original manuscript of De occulta philosophia and in new material added after Agrippa went to Italy in 1511. His only citation of one of the major medieval Cabalistic treatises, Sefer Zohar, a book that he could not have read since it was not available in Latin, is lifted out of Crater Hermetis. Other citations of works he knew only after 1510 include the De rerum praenotione by the younger Pico della Mirandola (Gianfrancesco), and several works by Erasmus, about whom he probably knew little until he left Italy in 1518 and settled in Metz. In Italy he deepened his familiarity with Cabalistic literature considerably beyond the limited erudition found in De verbo mirifico, including not only Reuchlin's second treatise on Cabala, De arte cabalistica (1517) but also familiarity with Agostino Ricci, court astrologer at Casale Monferrato and author of a book on Cabala, astronomy, and astrology, who became a close friend during Agrippa's residence there, and with translations by Agostino's brother Paolo, whom Agrippa did not meet in person since he had moved to Germany, but whose publications he cited several times in a short treatise that he dedicated to the marquis of Monferrato in 1516, De triplici ratione cognoscendi Deum. Paolo's works include his translation of the Cabalistic treatises Sefer Yetzirah (Liber formationis) and Sha'are Orah (Portae lucis) and also parts of the Talmud, the great rabbinical commentary on the Bible. Perhaps the most interesting of the new Italian sources, however, was a work of Hermetic and Cabalistic theosophy, De harmonia mundi, by Francesco Giorgio (or Zorzi) of Venice (1460–1540), though this influence, evident not only in the additions made to De occulta philosophia after 1510 but also in De vanitate, was not a product of Agrippa's years in Italy since it was not published until 1525. Especially influential on his thought was Giorgio's identification of the tripartite division of the human soul, derived from an early work by Ficino, with a similar tripartite division found in the Cabalistic Zohar (OP, ed. Perrone Compagni, 1992: 35–43). Surprisingly, perhaps, Agrippa also used Giorgio's book freely as a source in his anti-magical treatise, De vanitate (Perrone Compagni 2001:94–95).

3. De occulta philosophia: The Reformation of Magic

The goal that inspired Agrippa's lifelong efforts to master the wisdom of the past and to write and expand De occulta philosophia was the transformation of occult philosophy (that is, magic) from a body of learning often regarded as evil and forbidden into what he believed it had been in ancient times, “the absolute perfection of the most noble philosophy” (OP 1:2). The suspect and depraved magic of the present time, he declared, was a chaos of enchantments, mysterious formulae not understood even by those who used them, and eccentric ceremonies and recitations that often involved invocation of evil demons. His goal was to discover a coherent body of knowledge that could bring about the rebirth of an ancient and holy wisdom that had been known to the wise men of old (pagan as well as Jewish and Christian) but had been corrupted and lost through the intervening centuries. Cautiously, he added in the address “To the Reader” of the 1533 edition his assurances that if anyone found matters that he disliked, he must realize that Agrippa was not asserting everything in the book as certain but merely reporting opinions and that he wanted none of these statements to be approved if they were condemned by the Catholic Church (OP 1:1).

Agrippa's quest to recover ancient wisdom was shaped by his belief in the authenticity of a large body of theosophical literature that supposedly represented secret knowledge given by God to a handful of wise men in every ancient society. Just as God gave revealed truth to the Hebrew patriarchs and to Moses, so also he gave secret truths to the founders of the other great religious traditions of antiquity: the treatises attributed to the Egyptian sage Hermes Trismegistus, representing the collected wisdom of the Egyptian priests, the Zoroastrian texts among the Persians, the Chaldean Oracles among the Babylonians, the Orphic hymns and the tradition of Pythagoras among the early Greeks. These sources of ancient wisdom constitute what Renaissance Neoplatonists and modern scholars have labeled an “ancient theology” (prisca theologia); and according to Agrippa and Florentine philosophers such as Ficino, this wisdom was passed along by way of the Pythagoreans to Plato and his later disciples, whom the Renaissance called Platonists but modern scholarship calls Neoplatonists. To Agrippa and many of his contemporaries, the prisca theologia paralleled the wisdom of the Bible and was harmonious with it. He contrasted this divine wisdom with the contentious distortion of Scripture by scholastic thought, and repudiated the arrogant and false rationalism and a priori proofs of the moderni, that is, the medieval Aristotelians.

This rejection of the medieval intellectual heritage, as well as his search for wisdom in rediscovered ancient sources, demonstrates how fully Agrippa accepted the dominant assumptions of Renaissance humanism. Not human reason but religious wisdom expressed in the Bible and the sages of antiquity would strip away the errors of contemporary science, purge magic of the gross errors of unlearned sorcerers and witches, and thus restore the good name of magic. Mastery of this ancient wisdom would grant a select company of wise men power to reform corrupt religion, to reshape an unjust society, and to gain control over themselves and all of nature. A reformed magic would endow those who truly understood it with power to achieve things that seem miraculous and beyond the ability of ordinary human beings.

Such learning is esoteric. Because of the power it confers, it would be potentially dangerous to religion, society, and individuals if it fell into the hands of the crude and ignorant masses. It must be communicated only to individuals whom the magician (the magus) knew to be worthy, both intellectually and morally, people who would use this power for the benefit of humanity (OP 3:2). Much of this wisdom had been expressed in riddles and puzzles and simple stories that masked a deeper meaning. This was true not only of the Jewish Cabala but also of the prisca theologia and the philosophical writings of the Platonists. A secret, occult meaning was deliberately concealed beneath the words of ancient texts, and only those who had received proper training under a learned master could (or should) understand the full meaning.

At the end of De occulta philosophia, Agrippa cautioned his readers that he had written in such a way that the prudent and intelligent would understand but the corrupt and unbelieving would not; underneath his own text there was a “scattered meaning” (dispersa intentio) that the wise would be able to extract and put together, finding in one place the principles that would reveal the true meaning of another passage where the significance was not evident (OP 3: 65). Agrippa provided no magical recipes or formulae and often was intentionally vague, for magical power was potentially dangerous.

The universe of Agrippan magic was conceived in terms derived mainly from ancient Greek and recent Florentine Neoplatonism. This universe is orderly, hierarchical in nature, with material beings in the very lowest rank, and living and animated ones occupying the various levels, on up to the highest rank of angels. The less material and more spiritual any being is, the higher it stands in the scale of creation.

The universe is divided into three parts, defined at the very beginning of the revised De occulta philosophia as elemental (that is, material), celestial (astrological and mathematical), and intellectual (consisting of created intelligences or demons—good demons or angels obedient to the Creator, but unfortunately also evil demons, angels who had joined Satan in his rebellion against God). The three books of De occulta philosophia are organized according to this tripartite division. The three levels are closely linked to one another; and through these three orders, the divine Creator exerts his power, which passes from rank to rank, from the purely spiritual angels occupying the highest level, which is closest to God, down through celestial bodies, especially the planets, and on to the lowest rank of material beings, both living and inanimate. This tripartite universe is not only orderly but alive, a great, living animal; and every part is linked to every other part in harmonious relationships. In the material universe, there are harmonious proportions between the four elements (earth, air, fire, and water) and the human body, an idea that was applicable to Galenic medicine, which regarded good health as dependent on a harmonious balance between the four humors (hot, dry, wet, cold) related to the four elements. Various symbols (such as letters, words, numbers, and images) can be used to express the relationships in the angelic, celestial, and elemental worlds. These symbols carry the power of the beings that they represent, so that a well-informed magus can use symbols to affect things in the natural world. Following the lead of Pico della Mirandola and Johann Reuchlin, Agrippa found such symbolism and power best expressed in the letter- and number-mysticism of the Jewish Cabalists.

Harmonious relationships exist not only within each of the three levels of being but also between individual things at different levels, so that individual humans are subject in particular ways to angelic and astral influences. These connections are often conceived in astrological terms. The ultimate cause of this order lies in the reason of God, and such relationships cannot be understood by human reason. They can be discovered only by experience, an experience communicated by ancient books compiled by wise men of the past. The underlying assumption, however, is clear enough: in a hierarchical universe, things of the lower (material) rank are ruled by those of the middle (celestial) rank such as the planets; and the middle rank in turn is ruled by things of the highest (or spiritual) order such as the planetary demons who preside over each planet, while the whole structure is ultimately ruled by God. In the hierarchical order, each individual part has its divinely appointed place which it is forbidden to transgress. To break through the order by aspiring to power beyond what is proper is the definition of sin—the sin of Satan and the sin of Adam, each of whom rebelled against his place in the order created by God.

In addition to its tripartite division, the created world is also divided among the four elements of traditional ancient science: earth, air, fire, and water. The elements are not confined to the terrestrial world. They also exist in the higher orders, though in a more perfect, less gross, less material form. In the celestial world, some planets are linked primarily to one of the elements. Even the angels or spirits who preside over the celestial world contain the elements in a pure form: seraphim, the highest-ranking angels, are igneous; thrones are aqueous, and so on. The elements even exist in God, but only as the ideas of created things (OP 1:8). In general, the properties of things in the natural world depend on the mixture of elements.

Some natural properties, however, cannot be understood from an analysis of the elements; that is why they are occult. Those properties can be discovered only from long experience, experience that includes knowledge recorded in the ancient books of magic. Examples of occult properties that are obviously valid but cannot be explained by reason include the power of the magnet to attract iron, or the ability of the stomach to transform food into flesh and blood, or the well-attested power of the Phoenix to regenerate itself in a flash of flame. Many occult effects are the result of the “world spirit” (spiritus mundi), or quintessence (the fifth element), which permeates the universe and contains generative power that reason cannot understand. This fifth element is the force used by alchemists in transmutations. Agrippa's correspondence shows that he was an active alchemist, setting up alchemical laboratories almost everywhere he lived. Surprisingly, however, he gives very limited attention to alchemy in De occulta philosophia.

Agrippa's natural magic depends largely on the principle that like begets like. Sterile things, such as the urine of a mule, can prevent conception. The sexual organs of passionate animals like the dove can be used in the making of love potions. Occult forces can be transferred from one object to another. For example, a piece of iron touched by a magnet can attract a second piece of iron. Similarly, by means of occult power a prostitute's mirror can transmit her loose morals to another woman who uses it.

Like the universe, magic is tripartite, divided into natural magic, which depends on elementary or other natural forces; celestial or astral magic, which applies the influence of the stars to affect objects on earth, including humans; and spiritual, demonic, or ceremonial magic, which relies on the aid of spiritual beings (intelligences, angels, or demons). All three types of magic were viewed with suspicion by the general public, among whom magic was often equated with sorcery and witchcraft. The third type, demonic or ceremonial magic, was always viewed with the greatest suspicion. Magical rituals that tried to attract the assistance of non-material intelligences seemed hard to distinguish from polytheistic worship or from the summoning of evil demons because of the prayers, verses, songs, ritual gesticulations, and other actions employed.

The second book of De occulta philosophia deals with the use of celestial (that is, astrological) powers to produce magical effects. Since terrestrial things, including humans, have occult links to the forces flowing down from the stars, a magus would be wise to perform his works at times when the planets whose power he wants to attract are in the ascendant. Nearly all examples of Renaissance magic involved the use of astrological influences since terrestrial objects were believed to be affected by affinities and antipathies with specific celestial bodies. Like many others, Agrippa distinguished between judicial astrology, the attempt to foretell in detail the future of specific individuals, and a broader conception of astrology as a science that studies the general effects of celestial influences on individuals and groups. The church and many individuals, including Agrippa, rejected the former as fatalistic, a denial of the individual's freedom to create his own future through the choices he made. The latter, however, Agrippa did not regard as destructive of free will but merely as an awareness of forces that a properly informed individual could use to enhance the success of his efforts: to confer good or evil fortune on friends or enemies, to expel certain animals (mice, serpents, worms) from a place, to gain wealth, to incite love, to get petitions granted, to make magical rings, to cause dreams (OP 2:50).

Agrippa was familiar with the criticism of astrology by Pico della Mirandola, Disputationes adversus astrologiam divinatricem (first published posthumously in the 1496 edition of his works). This book not only denounced deterministic judicial astrology, an opinion shared by Agrippa, but also challenged the fundamental assumption made by all astrologers that the stars, belonging to a higher order, send down influences that affect humans and all things on earth. Instead, he argued, celestial influences on earthly things are limited to the physical forces of light, heat, and motion. In De vanitate Agrippa cites with approval Pico's rejection of deterministic astrological prognostications but carefully avoids endorsing his unconventional idea that celestial influences are limited to physical phenomena.

The real problem with Agrippa's magic, by the standards of its own time, was that even natural and celestial magic could not avoid reliance on demonic agents. In Book One of De occulta philosophia, on natural magic, he notes that the practitioner of this type of magic can summon angels (that is, good demons) to assist with his works if he has prepared himself carefully “by good works, pure mind, mystical prayers, devout sacrifices, and the like,” so that he can attract good supercelestial angels (and, presumably, not attract evil ones). The chapter of Book One that deals with “the power of songs and prayers to attract the power of any star or divinity” (OP 1:71) shows especially clearly that the practice of natural magic led easily to the summoning of demonic spirits.

Likewise, the discussion of celestial magic in Book Two cannot conceal the use of demonic powers. This middle book assures the reader that the apparently ridiculous gesticulations employed in operations of celestial magic are not secret signals to demons but are merely symbolic representations of the numbers that form an integral part of celestial magic (OP 2:15). Book Two provides many examples of magic squares, with associated symbolic motions, for each of the major celestial bodies. But reliance on spiritual beings recurs when he explains that geometrical figures (the circle, the pentagon, the cross) are used to gain control over evil spirits (OP 2:16). Although his discussion of magical images demonstrates the relation between these geometrical figures and the influence of celestial bodies, Agrippa rashly adds that such images lack power unless some natural, celestial, demonic, or celestial power is combined with them (OP 2:23). Celestial magic can hardly avoid the use of intelligent beings since each planet is presided over by an angelic force (a demon).

Book Three deals directly with the magician's use of intelligent agents—that is, demons (supposedly only good ones). Agrippa also calls it ceremonial magic since it involves ceremonies or rituals addressed to the demons, intended to persuade them to help the magus in his work. Of course he insists on a sharp distinction between religious, innocent ceremonies directed to good spirits and superstitious practices addressed to evil spirits. Invocation of demons in ceremonial magic is permissible as long as they are good demons, and as long as the spirits receive only a lesser veneration addressed to them as created servants of God and divine honors and worship are reserved for God alone (OP 3:58–59).

Despite his assurances, the use of demonic powers and ceremonial acts addressed to them was bound to seem risky, even impious. A possible means of reducing the apprehension of readers, employed by Ficino in De vita coelitus comparanda, was to claim that the use of intelligent agents was intended to affect only the mind of the magus himself and not to control the external world. The problem with this subterfuge was that alteration of the magician's own consciousness was not what magicians really sought. As Eugenio Garin (1954: 152–53, 175–77) has demonstrated, the magician's goal was power, not only over himself but also over the external world. Ficino had no desire to perform marvelous works, but Agrippa and his followers did. Unlike Ficino, Agrippa did not avoid references to medieval works involving conjuration and power over the world, such as the Arabic text known in Latin as Picatrix. He claimed that the magical operator can attain power that enables him to perform works that seem miraculous. He can force the shades of the dead to obey, disturb the course of the stars, compel deities (that is, demons) and the elements to do as he commands. This is power-conferring, transitive magic, involving the use of spiritual as well as natural forces; hence it is demonic.

Even if the magus sought only to alter his own state of mind, as Ficino claimed, such ceremonies transform religious experiences into subjective psychological states. Agrippa reports many examples of the physical effects of the human imagination on the body. Harmful effects can be induced by sorcerers in exactly the same way (OP 1:65). His tendency to explain miraculous acts by explaining them away, even miracles from the lives of the saints and the Bible, such as the stigmata of St. Francis and the speckling of Laban's sheep by Jacob's rod, is even more obvious in Book Three, on demonic or ceremonial magic. There, Agrippa regularly describes religious phenomena as mere natural events or as works of magic. He derives the names of spirits used in ceremonial magic from the Bible as interpreted by the Cabalists. He describes how religious rites such as excommunication or burial may be used by magicians to cure disease or expel serpents, mice, or worms, though he does label this a “superstition.” He moves nonchalantly from describing how the shades of the dead linger about their corpses to a claim that the efficacy of saints' relics depends on the continued love of holy souls for their bodies. He implicitly equates various pagan sacrifices with Christian ceremonies. He regularly fails to distinguish the power of Christian worship from acts of magical theurgy: in either kind of activity, the unwavering faith of the believer is what confers success.

Agrippan magic assumes that the relationship between symbols (words, letters, and numbers) and the things they represent is not conventional but is eternally fixed in the order of the universe. Languages, which are made up of words, have an essential, not just a conventional, relationship to things; and the magical power of words and letters is greater if they come from an ancient and noble tongue, with Hebrew the most powerful of all since it is the original human language (OP 1:74). Since in many languages, letters also denote numbers (as in Roman numerals), they may also allow the magus to derive from sacred texts numbers that have magical power. Book Two devotes much attention to tables of numbers and magic squares, and it expounds the meaning of many numbers. Magic squares represent planetary power. Not only numbers but geometrical figures, too, have magical power because they are symbols of numbers: the circle stands for one; the pentagon, five, and so on. Study of the magical power of numbers and letters will show the magus how to derive names that draw power from their letters. It is also possible to derive the Hebrew names of angels (and so to gain power over them) through manipulation of letters and numbers taken from the Hebrew text of the Bible. Since names are true representations and not just arbitrary symbols of the things they stand for, they share the power of the being they represent; and those who know the true name of a spirit can control that spirit and persuade (or even compel) it to do their bidding. This is why Book Three presents long lists of the names of angels, demons, and even God himself.

What really makes Agrippa's universe magical, however, is not just its harmonious, interconnected nature or the symbolic power of names but the special power assigned to man, who if he is spiritually enlightened can recover some of the mastery over nature originally possessed by Adam and lost through his sin. Adopting a favorite Neoplatonic theme, Agrippa calls man the microcosm (the little world) since he contains all the components of the macrocosm, the universe conceived as a single entity. Man has a body composed of elemental matter, vegetative life, brute sense, a celestial spirit, reason, an angelic mind; he is the similitude, the image, not only of the living universe but also of the God who made both the universe and man. Potentially, all parts of the universe serve him, and this service was actual until Adam's sin. In order to recover this power over nature, man needs occult learning.

Like the universe, the human soul (anima) is tripartite. The part of the soul highest and closest to God is mens (mind, or intellect), which is illuminated by God and is the agent that transmits divine light to the soul. The lowest part is idolum, the sensory faculties that are linked through the body to the material world, the world of sensation. Idolum, like the body, is subject to fate and to the rule of celestial influences. The middle part of the soul, which ultimately determines the character and eternal fate of an individual, is ratio (reason). It acts as intermediary between the divine and imperishable mens and the material and perishable idolum. Its eternal fate, unlike that of mens or idolum, is not predetermined. It alone has free choice. It can turn to the divine light streaming into the soul through mens, but it can also choose to turn downward to idolum. If ratio bonds with mens, it is open to God's grace and power, and it will share eternal life with mens. If it chooses to be ruled by idolum, its link to the material and mortal body, it will perish.

This concept of the tripartite soul is borrowed from Reuchlin and Ficino, and Agrippa himself refers to “the Platonists,” the Hermetic treatises, and the Crater Hermetis of Ludovico Lazzarelli as sources (Perrone Compagni 1997: 119–20). In his discussion, Agrippa follows lines of thought that are potentially subversive of orthodox belief, such as use of the concept of the “ethereal vehicle of the soul” (vehiculum ethereum animae), which is associated with belief in metempsychosis, though he describes it only as a doctrine taught by Plotinus and the Hebrew Cabalists (OP 3:41) and does not endorse metempsychosis. He also borrows, mainly from Ficino, Plotinus, the Hermetic Asclepius, the Cabalistic Zohar, and Giorgio's De harmonia mundi, another entity closely related to the soul, the “spirit” (spiritus), which he conceives as a material substance, though extremely refined and subtle, generated by the heat of the heart. It permeates the whole body, just as the spiritus mundi permeates the whole universe. The human spiritus can be affected by material things like incenses, collyries, unguents, philters, and other substances used to cause magical effects. It can transmit its influence through the air to the spiritus of other persons, much as infectious disease spreads through some subtle vapor in the air. This is the foundation of the magical effects known as fascinations, ligations, and enchantments—for example, the evil eye. Through it, a magician can instill love, hatred, or disease, can foretell the future, or can even make demons and the shades of the dead appear in the air. Agrippa's threefold division of the soul also affects his lengthy discussion of the fate of the soul after death. Mens is divine in origin and free from all sin. Agrippa does not discuss the question whether upon its return to the heavens mens retains its individual identity, an issue that was generating much controversy among contemporary Italian philosophers. He does declare that the soul is individual and that it is eternally rewarded or punished after death in accord with its behavior during life. The middle part (ratio) of a good soul is joined to mens and shares its eternal life. If the soul has been evil—that is, if ratio has embraced idolum rather than mens, it is joined at death to the idolum. What happens next is unclear, and Agrippa describes several possibilities. Perhaps, as he seems to think, it is dragged off by demons to eternal punishment. Virtuous non-Christian souls may go to Elysian fields and ultimately may be converted to Christianity and so be saved. Christians who led a holy life gain perfect eternal happiness. If they led ordinary but not evil lives, they attain only a vision but not full enjoyment of the divine presence until the Last Judgment. Agrippa's opinions on this issue are deliberately vague.

Agrippa's doctrine of the soul is directly linked to his goal of effecting a reform and renewal of magic and bringing that holy science back to the perfection that it had in the distant past. His fundamental objection to current academic learning is that since it is based on a secular Aristotelian rationalism that derives knowledge from the senses, and hence by way of the senses from the unstable and deceptive world of matter, it can never lead to real truth, that is, to true magical power over the self and the world, or to knowledge of God. Genuine occult philosophy—magic—must be founded not on human reason and knowledge coming from the easily deceived senses and the false material world but on the mens (or intellect). Then it will rely on God rather than on human power, on faith rather than on the products of Aristotelian (and scholastic) rationalism. It will acknowledge its status as creature and hence its dependence on God. Only if the soul is ruled by mens and relies on faith can it attain enlightenment and be restored to something like the condition of Adam's soul before the Fall, when all creatures revered and obeyed man (OP 3:40). Obviously, in an age of humanist commitment to “evangelical” reform, this opinion implied trust in the plain words of Scripture; but for Agrippa, it also meant trust in the authority of the works attributed to the “ancient theologians” (prisci theologi), Platonists, and Cabalists. The error of Aristotelian rationalism, he thought, was its assumption that truth about the important questions in life could be found by a thinker who did not acknowledge his status as a creature and the inability of unaided human reason to discover wisdom and ultimate truth.

The powers of the soul can be enhanced when a superior soul enters into the human soul (illapsion, in Platonist terminology); but the soul must prepare itself (by prayer, fasting, continence) so that it is freed from its own desires and empty in order to permit illumination by a god or demon. Following Ficino's usage, Agrippa calls such an experience frenzy. Several chapters in Book Three discuss types of prophetic frenzy: from the Muses, Dionysus, Apollo, and Venus. When the soul is possessed by such a spirit, its powers are enhanced, and it is enabled not only to foretell the future but also to accomplish things ordinarily beyond the power of nature. Other types of prophecy come from rapture or ecstasy and from dreams, though dreams are often misleading or hard to interpret.

In Book Three Agrippa describes many ways in which an individual can improve his chances of successful prophecy. All of them involve giving mens free range, while restraining idolum and corporeal influences. The soul must be purified by cleanliness of body and soul, abstemious diet, penitence, acts of charity, and the performance of certain ceremonies, including baptisms, aspersions, and sacrifices, with special preference for acts of Christian piety such as penance, the Eucharist, use of holy water, and veneration of relics. In the end, Agrippa warns, illumination depends on God's will. Thus prophecy depends ultimately on religious faith. Indeed, his emphasis on faith as the foundation of all magic is very similar to the emphasis on faith that is the foundation of his attack on all forms of learning (including magic) in his other major work, De vanitate.

4. De vanitate: Uncertainty in Agrippa's Thought

The central problem for anyone who makes a serious effort to understand Agrippa's thought is how to reconcile De vanitate, which judges every field of human knowledge to be uncertain, useless, and even harmful, with De occulta philosophia, which is the product of his lifelong commitment “to redeem ancient magic and the learning of all wise men from impious error” and to restore magic to the excellence it had in ancient times (Agrippa's letter to Trithemius, from Cologne, before 8 April 1510, which is prefixed to all editions of De occulta philosophia). De vanitate, written in the summer of 1526 and published at Antwerp in 1530, was even more widely reprinted and translated into vernacular languages (French, English, German, Dutch, Polish, Italian) than his treatise on magic. It not only attacks all fields of learning and all professions and occupations but also devotes a long series of chapters (30–48) to the many branches of occult learning, denouncing each of them as full of deceptions, uncertainties, and lies. In the last of these chapters (48), Agrippa explicitly repudiates his own De occulta philosophia as a work written in his youth that he now recants and regrets. The quest for such learning, he declares, is not inspired by the spirit of God but is a diabolical deception. Those who claim that they can perform miracles and various works through such arts are in danger of eternal damnation. These chapters seem to mark an end to magic, a radical reversal of opinion, and a total repudiation of De occulta philosophia and all occult science.

The apparent incompatibility between these two major books—that is, the problem of the unity of Agrippa's thought—cannot be solved by assuming that he simply changed his mind about occult sciences, since he not only continued to study and seek out books on the occult arts at every stage of his life, including the years (1526–30) when he wrote and revised De vanitate, but also continued to rework De occulta philosophia right down to publication of the revised version in 1533. De vanitate, the book that seems to retract his work on occult philosophy, was written second but published first (1530); and then, three years later, the book on magic came out, after a fierce struggle by Agrippa to overcome the attempt of a Dominican inquisitor to block its publication. To complicate matters even further, the full edition of De occulta philosophia contained as an appendix the chapters of De vanitate where Agrippa repudiated all of the occult arts, including his own De occulta philosophia. A further objection to the idea of a simple change of his mind is his stubborn defense of both books against efforts by theologians and friars at Louvain to condemn and ban De vanitate and similar efforts by similar groups at Cologne to block publication of De occulta philosophia. To the very end, he defended both publications with equal vigor. His last surviving letter was a legal petition to the Parlement of the Netherlands at Mechelen (Zambelli 1965: 305–12), written from Bonn on 22 February 1534, appealing against the actions taken against De vanitate by the Louvain theologians and the secular authorities. Anyone who reads his surviving correspondence and pays attention to the chronology of his publications must have second thoughts about the idea that he merely changed his mind. Both books must be considered in any study of Agrippa's thought.

De vanitate is explicitly labeled a declamatio, indicating deliberate use of a common rhetorical form well known to Renaissance authors. Agrippa himself referred to his use of this genre in his Apologia (Opera, 2: 257–330), a defense of the book directed against the condemnation by the theologians of Louvain and the Habsburg administration in the Netherlands. In it, he asserted that by presenting his book as a declamation he did not mean that he had no serious purpose in writing it or that he did not believe in the truth of his words. What the genre did mean was that by “declaiming” he was proposing his opinions as probable truths worthy of open discussion among the educated but was not “asserting” these opinions as truths in the same sense as the dogmas of the church, which are not debatable. The problem, he suggested, was that his critics were so poorly educated that they did not know what a declamation was. By calling his book a declamation, he declared that he took it seriously even though there might be some errors in it.

De vanitate provided more enjoyable reading than De occulta philosophia for those who had no special interest in the occult sciences. It was obviously influenced by the Praise of Folly by Erasmus, whose works Agrippa admired and whose defense of humanistic studies and moderate religious reform he explicitly took as his model. De vanitate has wit and comic spirit even though it sometimes pursues its points to extremes. Its denunciation of abuses and injustices in church, state, and society raised questions that interested his contemporaries. Some modern scholars have suggested that it ought to be understood primarily as a satire or consciously paradoxical work that deliberately makes incompatible and paradoxical statements to amuse the reader (Bowen 1972: 249–56; Korkowski 1976: 594–607). Many contemporaries viewed it in the same way. The title-page of the French translation of 1582 calls it a paradox and suggests its suitability “to those who frequent the courts of great lords and want to learn how to speak about an infinity of matters in a way contrary to common opinion.” In other words, it is aimed at readers who want to be known as amusing, witty talkers and so to stand out in society. Clearly, Agrippa did intend to employ irony and to write as a satirist; but satire can have serious purposes even though it indulges in humor.

Agrippa wanted to encourage reform of the church and a deepening of spiritual life in ways typical of the reformist Christian humanism represented by Erasmus. Although during the early Reformation years he did show interest in the writings of Martin Luther, there is no evidence that he shared any of Luther's characteristic doctrines. He did not favor the abolition of some popular religious practices attacked by the Lutherans and had no intention of breaking away from the old church. His own works reflect a type of moderate reform that remained consciously, though not uncritically, Catholic. Agrippa also wanted to denounce injustices in many aspects of secular society. He pursued all of these ends in De vanitate.

But one major purpose of his book was to challenge the intellectual foundations of medieval scholastic learning by raising serious questions about the nature of truth and about the ability of humans to discover it. Here and there in De vanitate, though not in a systematic way, he raised issues of epistemology that explain why he has sometimes been viewed as an early, unsystematic precursor of the renewed interest in ancient philosophical skepticism that arose in the later sixteenth century in figures like Michel de Montaigne (1533–92) and Francisco Sanches (1552–1623) (Popkin 1960: 22–25).

The decisive event in the revival of skepticism occurred in 1562, after Agrippa's death, when the sole surviving text of Pyrrhonism, the most extreme form of ancient skepticism, was published in Latin translation. This was the Pyrrhonian Hypotyposes (Outlines of Skepticism) by Sextus Empiricus. Since the work was unpublished and a Latin translation was not available in his lifetime, Agrippa could not have drawn on it, at least not directly. His knowledge about ancient skepticism probably was limited to the discussion of a more moderate skeptical tradition, Academic skepticism, by the Roman orator and philosopher Cicero, whose Academica and De natura deorum, expressed skeptical opinions; possibly he knew the information about Pyrrho of Elis and other skeptics in Lives of Eminent Philosophers by the third-century doxographer Diogenes Laertius, whose work was an influential discovery of Italian humanism. Medieval scholastic philosophers had little interest in problems of epistemology, though some of them protested against the intrusion of Aristotelian rationalism into Christian philosophy and theology. In the fifteenth century, the German philosopher Nicholas of Cusa (1401–64) in De docta ignorantia denied the ability of human reason to gain knowledge of God. Agrippa knew Nicholas' works, including De docta ignorantia, and at the very end of De vanitate adopted the ideal of “learned ignorance”—that is, an educated acknowledgment of the limits of human reason and acceptance of simple faith—as the foundation of his own philosophy.

Although Agrippa could not have known the writings of Sextus Empiricus, there is a slight possibility that he might have been exposed to his doctrines indirectly through the work of Gianfrancesco Pico della Mirandola, nephew of the famous Giovanni Pico, who did use the unpublished Greek text of Sextus in his Examen vanitatis doctrinae gentium, et veritatis Christianae disciplinae (1520). Gianfrancesco's book attacked traditional metaphysics and conventional ideas of causation, and he took from Sextus an extensive critique of the reliability of sensory knowledge. Agrippa never cited Examen vanitatis or mentioned Gianfrancesco, but another of Gianfrancesco's books, De rerum praenotione, seems to be his source for the opinions of little-known Greek philosophers and certain points of doctrine (OP, ed. Perrone Compagni, index s.v. Picus, Johannes Franciscus). His failure to mention Gianfrancesco is inconclusive, since he rarely cited contemporary authors.

Whatever may be the case about his knowledge of Gianfrancesco Pico's Examen vanitatis, Agrippa probably never considered himself a skeptic. In his oration on the Hermetic treatise De potestate et sapientia Dei, delivered at Pavia in 1515, he declared that of the three major schools of ancient philosophy, he would sometimes follow the first group (Stoics and Peripatetics) in his lectures and sometimes the second (Academics and Socratics), but never the Skeptics, since the latter follow no fixed method and reach no conclusions and hence are rejected “by most true philosophers and theologians” (Opera, 2: 1082–83).

Even though Agrippa should not be regarded as a skeptical philosopher, parts of De vanitate suggest a skeptical inclination. His book certainly has a generally anti-rationalistic tone. Not only does it denounce every field of human learning, including Hermetic philosophy, the Platonists, and the Cabalists, but it also repeatedly presents as evidence of their worthlessness the incessant quarrels and disagreements among philosophers and so-called experts in every field of learning. There is no reliable human authority in philosophy or theology. Unlike Ficino and Pico, who were syncretic and irenic in spirit, arguing that in the end all philosophies are in agreement, De vanitate emphasizes the irreconcilable disunity of the ancient philosophical schools. Aristotle, the principal philosophical authority of medieval scholasticism, is a special object of attack—for example, as a supporter of the mortality of the soul (chs. 51, 54). At the very least, De vanitate shows that increased knowledge about the disagreements between ancient philosophers as a result of humanistic textual discoveries could have an unsettling effect on philosophical opinion.

But Agrippa adds other criticisms of philosophy that suggest familiarity and some sympathy with ancient arguments against philosophical certitude. He points out the obvious fact that the force of any proof employing syllogistic reasoning depends on the truth of its premises—i.e., logical validity does not necessarily mean actual truth of the conclusion. No rational proof or syllogism can grasp truth, which comes only from faith (ch. 1). All sciences are merely matters of opinion (ch. 1), and they are neither good nor bad in themselves but only in the way they are used. Any proposition that is not founded on the Word of God—that is, on faith—can be disproved as easily as it can be proved (ch. 50).

These criticisms of rationalism are not unproved assertions but rest on analysis of the foundations of human knowledge. Aristotle teaches that our knowledge comes ultimately from the senses. But is sensory knowledge itself reliable? To this question, Agrippa applies arguments ultimately derived from the ancient skeptics, and later in the century the same arguments were developed more fully by Montaigne, who, however, had Sextus Empiricus available to him. Agrippa points out (ch. 7) that the senses are easily deceived, and hence knowledge based on them is uncertain. The senses cannot provide knowledge about intellectual matters, nor can they penetrate the question of causation.

In his chapter on moral philosophy (ch. 54), Agrippa denies that in the natural order there is any stable moral law, though in the order of grace there is. Moral philosophy rests not on rational proof but on custom and is changeable according to time, place, and religion. Like Montaigne a half-century later, he says that “what once was a vice is even regarded as virtue, and what here is a virtue is elsewhere vice.” The ancient Hebrews and modern Turks have permitted polygamy and concubinage, practices regarded as execrable in Christian society. The Greeks found nothing dishonorable about either homosexuality or appearance on the public stage, both of which the Romans regarded as shameful. The Romans let their wives appear in public; the Greeks did not. Lacedemonians and Egyptians regarded theft as honorable, but modern people do not. Agrippa explains this moral relativism in terms of different national characteristics, which he attributes to the stars. Moral philosophers cannot even agree on how to define the supreme good. Some define it as virtue, others as pleasure, still others in other ways (ch. 54). Agrippa contrasts this moral chaos with Christian moral values based on the Bible. There is a fundamental conflict between the self-regarding wisdom of this world and the foolishness of Christ, a theme already found in Erasmus' Praise of Folly. Agrippa returns to that theme in the concluding section of De vanitate, where he takes the humble and patient ass, the idiota (the untutored and unpretentious layman) as defined in the works of Nicholas of Cusa, as the ideal for the true Christian. In his Apologia defending De vanitate, Agrippa referred explicitly to Nicholas' ideal of the idiota or practitioner of “learned ignorance.”

These opinions do not constitute a skeptical epistemology of the sort found in Montaigne's “Apology for Raymond Sebond” or in the more systematic and more openly Pyrrhonist (but far less influential) treatise Quod nihil scitur / That Nothing Is Known (1581) by Francisco Sanches, the son of Portuguese conversos who was reared and educated in France and taught in the medical faculty at Toulouse. Montaigne's essay shows verbal similarities to De vanitate in several places. At the very least, De vanitate offered him objections to rational dogmatism that he could use to support his own opinion. Agrippa's goal was not to discuss epistemology but to show that since both rational and sense-based knowledge are unreliable, the prevailing scholastic philosophy and theology are worthless. Dialectic will never lead to knowledge of God, without which, indeed, “nothing is known.” Only the purified soul, full of grace, faith, and love, can know God; and this knowledge occurs only in the realm of grace, not in the realm of reason.

The vigor of his attack on all learning and his explicit repudiation of each of the occult sciences, of “ancient theologians” like Hermes Trismegistus and the Cabalists, and even of his own book on magic have forced modern students of Agrippa's thought to face the fundamental question discussed above: how could the same author have written both De vanitate and De occulta philosophia? Was he simply flippant and cynical, totally unconcerned about the integrity of his thought? It is true that the year 1526, when he wrote De vanitate, marked a low point in his personal fortunes. Yet he continued to revise De occulta philosophia even while he composed his attack on all learning, brought both works to completion, and published both at nearly the same time. There must have been some conviction that permitted him to reconcile the apparently irreconcilable opinions in his two major books.

The foundation for reconciling this stark clash between Agrippa the author of De occulta philosophia and reformer of magic and Agrippa the anti-rationalist destroyer of all human learning, including magic, is Perrone Compagni's critical edition of De occulta philosophia. Her probing of the sources and assumptions of De occulta philosophia shows that the magical treatise and De vanitate, though different in many ways, are not incompatible, that both of them share certain fundamental beliefs about human knowledge and the nature of the universe. De vanitate, she contends, is not a demolition of all knowledge and all possibility of knowledge, for it is directed mainly against the medieval scholastic tradition, on the grounds that the arts and sciences as they now exist are founded on the arrogant and unsound assumption that truth can be discovered by unaided reason, interpreting the material world through the senses. In terms of the threefold psychology defined in De occulta philosophia, reason (ratio) has cast its lot with the material and sensual part of the soul, idolum, and has turned away from the higher part of the soul, mens or intellect. Thus contemporary scholasticism is founded on the inherently unstable, perishable material world, which is dominated by disorder and evil as a consequence of Adam's sin. The result is a body of learning that is unstable and uncertain, exposed to the influence of Satanic forces, full of conflict and falsehood.

This condition is made worse because Adam's sin also thrust disorder into the human soul, extinguishing the divine light that illuminated the soul before Adam sinned. Man has refused to recognize that he is a creature dependent on God; he has rebelled against God just as his ancestor Adam did. The only way out of this terrible condition is through divine grace, expressed in the doctrine of Jesus Christ, though also, according to De occulta philosophia, assisted by a parallel tradition of divine enlightenment found in the texts of the prisci theologi, the Platonists, and also the Hebrew Bible, which is illuminated by the secret guide to its deeper meaning preserved in the treatises of the Cabala and brought to perfection by the Christian Cabalism of Reuchlin. The reform of magic that Agrippa intends to bring about is founded on faith in the power of the new divine name, “Jesus,” and thus the new magic is founded not on human reason and the perishable material world but upon faith—faith in Jesus, faith in the Bible, and also faith in the wisdom of the prisci theologi.

In terms of Agrippa's tripartite psychology, faith liberates the highest part of the human soul, mens or intellect, from bondage to the material world, and the middle part of the soul (ratio, whose choice really determines the integrity of the person) abandons its dependence on the lowest part, idolum, and is ruled by mens. Through mens, the power of divine light will take control of the soul, and hence true knowledge, control of the self, and man's lordship over nature will prevail. The enlightened magus will regain Adam's wonder-working power. The power and goodness not only of magic but also of every field of learning will be restored, because the new learning will be based on faith and not on unreliable natural reason. The reformed, true magic of grace and divine light will overcome the error and impotence of false science, science based on sensation and reason. The light of divine power will flow through the mens and overcome the darkness and materialism of rationalistic philosophy.

De occulta philosophia and De vanitate are not truly opposed but merely represent two different applications of an intellectual system founded on religious wisdom, the wisdom brought back into a corrupt and fallen world by Christ. The “skeptical” attack on traditional learning and the reform of magic are “two components of the same program,” which demands a broad reform of culture (Perrone Compagni 2001: 166). Perrone Compagni supports this approach to the unity of Agrippa's thought by persuasive evidence. Both his published works and his correspondence prove that Agrippa never abandoned his youthful quest for a rebirth of magic but revised his occult masterpiece throughout his life. He continued to defend both of his major books against clerical attacks. He constantly sought additional “ancient” sources, corresponded with those who shared his interests, and added constantly to his treatise on magic.

The great change that helped Agrippa transform his approach to occult learning was his realization—first expressed in the short treatises and orations he wrote in Italy as he enriched his knowledge of Platonic, Hermetic, and Cabalistic texts from study with his new acquaintances there—that true magic must be founded on religion, on faith, and not on human reason and the material world.

After his return to northern Europe in 1518, this religious foundation became even stronger as he reacted to the spiritual and intellectual crisis of his age. He embraced the reformist program of Erasmian humanism with enthusiasm, to the point where, in his brief correspondence with the Dutch humanist between 1531 and 1533, he depicted his outspoken defense of his own writings as being conducted with Erasmian weapons. By the early 1520s this attraction to the “evangelical” element in Erasmus' publications was affected by the unfolding of the Lutheran Reformation, which attracted Agrippa's interest and even his sympathy but, as with Erasmus, never drew him away from his determination to remain loyal to the traditional church. The sharp clash between medieval scholastic learning and the new, reform-minded humanist learning reinforced and merged with his long-standing attraction to the putatively ancient wisdom that he discovered in the prisci theologi. His last known letter was a determined reassertion of his religious, moral, and intellectual integrity, addressed to the Parlement of Mechelen early in 1534. His last publication, if Zambelli is correct in identifying him as the pseudonymous author of the Dialogus de vanitate supposedly written by a Carmelite monk in support of Agrippa, was a passionate denunciation of the evils of the age and an equally passionate defense of his work as magician, critic of traditional learning, and restorer of holy and ancient occult philosophy. Perrone Compagni's analysis of the sources of De occulta philosophia shows not only that he worked simultaneously on revising both of his major books but also that the sources on which those two revisions were founded are nearly identical. In particular, one Italian work of Hermetic and Cabalistic theosophy, Giorgio's De harmonia mundi, which was not published until 1525, strongly influenced the final form of both De occulta philosophia and De vanitate (Perrone Compagni 2000: 164–5; 2001: 94–95; introduction to her edition of OP, 35–44).

The underlying unity of Agrippa's thought, despite his savage criticism of the occult tradition in De vanitate, emerges clearly from several modern studies of his thought, as does his emphasis on the Bible and the religious sages of the “ancient theology.” Nevertheless, there are still unresolved problems in his intellectual world. Though in the published version of De occulta philosophia he still values the purportedly ancient pre-Christian sages and the Cabalists and Neoplatonists, both De vanitate and the contemporaneous Dehortatio gentilis theologiae / A Warning Against Gentile Theology, show that he was aware of the possibility that their influence might be harmful. Like the great majority of his fellow-humanists, he lacked a sufficiently developed sense of linguistic and internal criticism to see that many of his “ancient” sources, especially the Hermetic literature and the Cabalistic texts, were pseudonymous aggregations of disparate material patched together in late Roman or medieval times. Humanists who could penetrate the outward appearances and suspect the authenticity of these texts were rare, even at the height of Renaissance humanism. Valla and Erasmus suspected the authenticity of the Hermetic texts and the writings attributed to the pseudo-Apostolic sixth-century Christian author Dionysius the Areopagite, but both of them discreetly refrained from open exposure of the occult sages. Agrippa's reservations were not about the authenticity of such texts but about their compatibility with his effort to show harmony between them and Christian faith. Though he set these reservations aside, his continued work on De vanitate and its publication in 1530 suggest that he was aware that some of his authorities were vulnerable to challenge. Agrippa, however, never perceived the disharmony between his essentially Neoplatonic sources, with their ideal of achieving enlightenment and holiness by rejection of the material world and improvement of the soul through meditation and asceticism, and the “evangelical” strain in his thought that emphasized simple faith and the authority of the Bible. He was not alone in failing to sense this conflict between “evangelical” trust in the Bible and the Pelagian tendencies (tendencies to emphasize self-generated spiritual enlightenment rather than reliance on grace) implied by the Neoplatonic tradition that underlay nearly all of the prisca theologia. Nor could he or any of his contemporaries see that behind the tensions in contemporary philosophy, which would eventually produce the destructive skepticism of Montaigne, Sanches, and Descartes, lay the eventual death of Aristotelian science and the reduction of Aristotle himself from “the Master of them that know” to just another ancient philosopher.

5. The Praise of Women: Paradox or Feminist Tract?

Modern feminist scholarship has found Agrippa one of the most interesting authors of the sixteenth century, for his little treatise De nobilitate et praecellentia foeminei sexus declamatio / On the Nobility and Superiority of the Female Sex surpasses in radicalism most treatments of women written in the fifteenth and sixteenth centuries. Usually such treatises were collections of biographical sketches of famous women. Such books generally praised their subjects for possession of traditionally feminine traits even as they achieved the deeds that made them famous. Like most books published in his time, Agrippa's De praecellentia was written in part to attract a patron: it was originally composed in 1509 to win favor from Margaret of Austria, regent of the Habsburg Netherlands, but not presented to her until 1529, when Agrippa had become official historiographer of the Netherlands, which Margaret still administered as regent for her nephew, the Emperor Charles V. Agrippa included De praecellentia in his first published book, a collection of short tracts and orations printed at Antwerp in 1529 (it was later included in his Opera, 2: 518–42). Whatever favor he may have gained was short-lived, however, since Margaret turned hostile in 1530 when theologians at Louvain condemned his recently published De vanitate as impious and heretical.

Nevertheless, his treatise in praise of women had considerable literary success. There were several reprints in Latin (the first in 1532), and translations into many vernaculars: French (1530), German (1540), English (1542), Italian (1544), Polish (1575), and Dutch (1611). There were at least two versified adaptations (into French and English), and a frequently reprinted Italian adaptation, La nobiltà delle donne (1549) by Lodovico Domenichi. Agrippa's book became a major influence on popular discussions of the nature and status of women, though since it maintained what the chauvinist mentality of the age regarded as the absurd proposition that women are inherently equal, or even superior, to men, it was usually interpreted as a paradox written to amuse but not to be taken seriously.

Literary scholars of recent times have tended to adopt the same interpretation, though perhaps not for quite the same reasons. Beginning with Emile Telle in his 1937 edition of the works of Marguerite de Navarre, the notion that Agrippa's intention was to write an amusing paradox has dominated discussion. There has, however, been some recognition of his radicalism in reinterpreting biblical citations to uphold women's equality or superiority, and of his insistence that contemporary restrictions on women are not part of the “natural order” but are instead purely the result of long-standing and unjust customs. The editor of the best modern English translation suggests that Agrippa intended “to reverse the entire misogynistic tradition” and that the consequences of this reversal “were serious and seriously intended” (Rabil “Introduction” to Agrippa, Declamation: 32). The most persuasive recent interpretation takes Agrippa very seriously indeed and concludes that his goal was primarily to advance unconventional theological ideas but not to bring about social change (Newman 1993: 337–56).

Agrippa begins De praecellentia conventionally enough: men and women share the same essential nature as humans and have the same souls and the same goal of eternal happiness, a proposition that even the most conservative theologian would have endorsed. But strange conclusions follow. Though his initial goal seems to be to prove that in every way except external physical traits, women are fully equal to men, most of his treatise argues for the superiority, rather than equality, of women. Since they share the same Creator and the same human nature, men and women are inherently equal; yet from the beginning women were superior. Even in name woman is superior to man: “Adam” means earth, while “Eve” is translated as life. Eve was the summit of creation, the last creature made directly by God, and Adam only the next-to-last. Thus she is the final and most perfect creature. Man was created outside of Paradise among the beasts and then placed in Eden; Eve was created in it. Woman is also superior in terms of the material from which she was composed: Eve was not made out of clay, as Adam was, but from a purified body having life and a rational soul (from Adam, that is). Man is the work of nature; woman, the creation of God. Hence she is more capable of being filled with divine light. Woman is more beautiful than man: tender of flesh, fair in complexion. Her words and voice are soft and agreeable. The book of Genesis itself remarks on the beauty of women. Women are also more modest and more virtuous than men. Nature has placed the sexual parts of women out of sight, while men's reproductive organs protrude. Men's heads are disfigured by baldness, while women do not become bald. Agrippa, who claimed to have a doctorate in medicine, contradicts the conventional opinion held by Aristotle, that in conception, men contribute the “seed” while women are little more than a receptacle in which the fetus can develop. Instead, he cites Galen and Avicenna to show that women as well as men contribute material that forms the fetus; the female contribution, according to Agrippa, is the more efficacious, as shown by the strong resemblance of many sons to their mother. Mothers love their sons more than fathers do; and in return, we esteem our fathers but love our mothers. Mothers provide milk to feed the infant, a food so powerful that it can cure the sick. It has proved possible for women (or, at any rate, one woman) to conceive a baby without the participation of any man. Menstrual blood is a potent source of cures and has other remarkable powers. Women are more merciful and more pious. They are also better endowed with the gift of speech, the most distinctively human trait. Children learn to speak from mothers and nurses. Women have been a source of blessing to men (he gives several biblical examples), while men have created the injustices of the law and have brought down the wrath of God by their sins.

Agrippa's interpretation of this last point is a remarkable example of his radical reversal of conventional exegesis. Original sin, he insists, came into the world through Adam, not through Eve, for God's commandment was given only to Adam. His was the sin that brought death upon humanity. Hence, though both Adam and Eve sinned, Adam's sin was the greater, for man sinned in knowledge of God's command; Eve, in ignorance. Another challenge to current convention follows. The greater sinfulness of man is why Christ was born a man: to expiate the sin of the first man. For this reason also, only males become priests, for they represent Christ, who in turn represents Adam, the first sinner. His male followers abandoned Christ after the crucifixion; but none of the women did. Men have been the inventors of all heresies. If women instead of men wrote histories, the sinfulness of men would be even more obvious than it already is.

Agrippa then turns to an idea that harmonizes with his relativist opinions in De vanitate. The present inferiority of women is not part of the natural order but is imposed by social convention and male tyranny. In ancient Rome, women played prominent roles as priestesses, prophets, philosophers, and rulers to a degree that would not now be permitted. Women are excluded from public life not because they are naturally incapable but because of the tyranny of men, through unjust customs and laws, and especially through being excluded from education.

What is striking about this strange little tract is that it reflects Agrippa's opinion in De vanitate (ch. 1) that anything can be disproved as easily as it can be proved and that all sciences are products of nothing more than the decrees and opinions of men. His declaration in that book that laws are arbitrary acts of human will is pertinent to his critique of the subjection of women. Their subordination rests on unjust convention and violence, not on any decree of God or any natural law.

Agrippa's initial goal was to prove the equality of women and to show that their inferior status rests on iniquitous human ordinances. But his second, more radical, conclusion is that in most respects women are actually superior to men, a proposition to which he devotes far more attention and space, and which he proves from both natural and biblical authority. Perhaps his intention was merely to write an amusing paradox. But the general tone of his treatise suggests that he also thought that his conclusions were true. It should be noted, however, that he does not offer any specific proposals either for social change or for the relief or abolition of these injustices.


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Al-Kindi | Albert the Great [= Albertus magnus] | Avicenna [Ibn Sina] | Bacon, Roger | feminism, history of | Galen | humanism: in the Renaissance | Neoplatonism: in the Renaissance | Pico della Mirandola, Giovanni | Plotinus | Porphyry | skepticism