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Henry Sidgwick

First published Tue Oct 5, 2004; substantive revision Mon Nov 13, 2006

Henry Sidgwick was one of the most influential ethical philosophers of the Victorian era, and his work continues to exert a powerful influence on Anglo-American ethical and political theory. His masterpiece, The Methods of Ethics (1907), was first published in 1874 and in many ways marked the culmination of the classical utilitarian tradition—the tradition of Jeremy Bentham and James and John Stuart Mill—with its emphasis on “the greatest happiness of the greatest number” as the fundamental normative demand. Sidgwick's treatment of that position was more comprehensive and scholarly than any previous one, and he set the agenda for most of the twentieth-century debates between utilitarians and their critics. Utilitarians from G. E. Moore and Bertrand Russell to J. J. C. Smart and R. M. Hare down to Derek Parfit and Peter Singer have acknowledged Sidgwick's Methods as a vital source for their arguments. But in addition to authoritatively formulating utilitarianism and inspiring utilitarians, the Methods has also served as a general model for how to do ethical theory, since it provides a series of systematic, historically informed comparisons between utilitarianism and its leading alternatives. Thus, even such influential critics of utilitarianism as William Frankena, Marcus Singer, and John Rawls have looked to Sidgwick's work for guidance. C. D. Broad, a later successor to Sidgwick's Cambridge chair, famously went so far as to say “Sidgwick's Methods of Ethics seems to me to be on the whole the best treatise on moral theory that has ever been written, and to be one of the English philosophical classics” (Broad, 1930: 143). Engaging with Sidgwick's work remains an excellent way to cultivate a serious philosophical interest in ethics, metaethics, and practical ethics, not to mention the history of these subjects. Moreover, he made important contributions to many other fields, including economics, political theory, classics, educational theory, and parapsychology. His significance as an intellectual and cultural figure has yet to be fully appreciated.

1. Life and Background

Sidgwick was born on May 31, 1838, in the small Yorkshire town of Skipton. He was the second surviving son of Mary Crofts and the Reverend William Sidgwick, the headmaster of the grammar school in Skipton, who died when Henry was only three. Henry's older brother William went on to become an Oxford don, as did his younger brother Arthur. His sister Mary, known as Minnie, ended up marrying a second cousin, Edward White Benson, who in addition to being an early mentor of Henry's (and Rugby master) went on to become the archbishop of Canterbury. The Sidgwick and Benson families would contribute much to English letters and science over the course of the 19th and 20th centuries (Askwith, 1971).

Henry was educated at Rugby and at Trinity College, Cambridge, where he excelled at both mathematics and classics, in due course becoming Craven Scholar, 33rd Wrangler, and Senior Classic, also winning the Chancellor's Medal. He wound up staying at Cambridge his entire life, first as a Fellow of Trinity and a lecturer in classics, then as a lecturer in moral philosophy, then as praelector in moral and political philosophy, and finally, from 1883, as Knightbridge Professor of Moral Philosophy. He resigned his Fellowship in 1869 because he could no longer subscribe in good conscience to the Thirty-Nine Articles of the Church of England, as the position required This act helped inspire the successful opposition to such requirements. In 1881 he was elected an honorary Fellow, and in 1885, he regained a full Fellowship, remarking on the changing times: “Last time I swore that I would drive away strange doctrine; this time I only pledged myself to restore any College property that might be in my possession when I ceased to be a Fellow” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 400).

Sidgwick's Cambridge career was rich in reformist activity (Rothblatt, 1968, Harvie, 1976, and Todd, 1999). As an undergraduate, he had been elected to the “Apostles,” the secret Cambridge discussion society that did much to shape the intellectual direction of modern Cambridge; Sidgwick's allegiance to this group was a very significant feature of his life and work (Lubenow, 1998). The 1860s, which he described as his years of “Storm and Stress” over his religious views and commitments, were also the years in which his identity as an academic liberal took shape, and he got caught up in a range of causes emphasizing better and broader educational opportunities, increased professionalism, and greater religious freedom. He evolved into an educational reformer committed to downplaying the influence of classics, introducing modern subjects, and opening up higher education to women. Much influenced by the writings of F. D. Maurice and J. S. Mill, he would become one of the leading proponents of higher education for women and play a guiding role in the foundation of Newnham College, Cambridge, one of the first colleges for women in England (Tullberg, [1975], 1998). He was also active in the cause of university reorganization generally, in due course serving on the General Board of Studies, the Special Board for Moral Sciences, and the Indian Civil Service Board, and he worked tirelessly to expand educational opportunities and professionalize educational efforts through such vehicles as correspondence courses, extension lectures, the Cambridge Working Men's College, and the University Day Training College for teachers (initiated by Oscar Browning). Such educational reforms were, he held, also of political value in overcoming class conflict and social strife. But Sidgwick's broader political commitments, which ranged from academic liberal to Liberal Unionist—he joined the breakaway faction of the Liberal Party opposing Gladstone's policy of Home Rule for Ireland—to independent, were complex and shifting; he was not, alas, always able to rise above the marked imperialistic and orientalist tendencies of the late Victorian era (Schultz, 2004).

In 1876 Sidgwick married Eleanor Mildred Balfour, the sister of his former student, Arthur Balfour, the future prime minister. An accomplished and independent woman with serious scientific interests—she collaborated with her brother-in-law Lord Rayleigh on many scientific papers—Eleanor Sidgwick worked as an equal partner with her husband on many fronts, particularly higher education for women and parapsychology. She eventually took over as Principal of Newnham in 1892, and was for many decades a mainstay of the Society for Psychical Research, an organization that Henry had helped to found (in 1882) and several times headed, though his interest in the paranormal had been evident long before. The Sidgwicks hoped that their psychical research might ultimately support some core religious claims, particularly concerning the personal survival of physical death, which they deemed a vital support for morality. Their extensive and often quite methodologically sophisticated investigations were not as conclusive as they had hoped, but following Henry's death from cancer in August of 1900, Eleanor did become persuaded that he had succeeded in communicating from “the other world.” The Sidgwicks' work in this field continues to this day to be debated by academic parapsychologists (Gauld, 1968, and Braude, 2003).

Although Sidgwick published extensively in his lifetime, he is best known for his first major book, The Methods of Ethics, which first appeared in 1874 and went through five editions during his lifetime. His second most widely read book would be his Outlines of the History of Ethics for English Readers, which appeared in 1886 as an expanded version of the article on the subject that he had contributed to the famous ninth edition of the Encyclopedia Britannica. But he also published The Principles of Political Economy (1883), The Elements of Politics (1891), and Practical Ethics, A Collection of Addresses and Essays (1898), and after his death, Eleanor Sidgwick worked with various of his former colleagues to bring out Lectures on the Ethics of T. H. Green, H. Spencer, and J. Martineau (1902), Philosophy, Its Scope and Relations (1902), The Development of European Polity (1903), Miscellaneous Essays and Addresses (1904), Lectures on the Philosophy of Kant and Other Philosophical Lectures and Essays (1905), and Henry Sidgwick, A Memoir (1906), which Eleanor and Arthur Sidgwick assembled largely from his correspondence and journal. These posthumous works are typically quite polished and shed a great deal of light on the works that Sidgwick himself saw through publication (Schneewind, 1977).

As Sidgwick's publications attest, he was not only a pre-eminent moral philosopher, with sophisticated views on both going controversies in ethics and metaethics and the history of these subjects, but also an accomplished epistemologist, classicist, economist, political theorist, political historian, parapsychologist, and educational theorist. If he was a founder of the Cambridge school of philosophy, he was also a founder of the Cambridge school of economics (along with his colleague and sometimes nemesis Alfred Marshall) and of the Cambridge school of political theory (along with such colleagues as Browning and Sir John Seeley). If such students as Moore and Russell owed him much, so too did such students as Balfour, J. N. Keynes, F. W. Maitland, F. Y. Edgeworth, James Ward, Frank Podmore, and E. E. Constance Jones. He had serious interests in many areas of philosophy and theology, and also wrote insightfully about poetry and literature, two of his great loves (at Newnham, he lectured on Shakespeare, along with such subjects as philosophy and economics). Indeed, Sidgwick was a force in the larger cultural developments of his age, active in such influential discussion societies as the Metaphysical Society and the Synthetic Society. His friends included George Eliot, T. H. Green, James Bryce, H. G. Dakyns, Roden Noel, and, of special importance, John Addington Symonds, the erudite cultural historian, poet, and man of letters who was a pioneer in the serious historical study of same sex love (Schultz, 2004). Sidgwick's versatile and many-sided intellect—not to mention his keen wit—are typically better displayed in his essays and letters than in his best-known academic books. He was in fact much loved for his gentle humor (or “Sidgwickedness”) and sympathetic conversation, and his philosophical students prized him for his candor. As Balfour put it: “Of all the men I have known he was the readiest to consider every controversy and every controversialist on their merits. He never claimed authority; he never sought to impose his views; he never argued for victory; he never evaded an issue.” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 311).

2. The Methods Of Ethics And Philosophy

2.1 Preliminaries

Sidgwick's Methods was long in the making. His correspondence with his close friend H. G. Dakyns, a Clifton master who had been a private tutor for the Tennyson family, reveals how long and volatile the development of his ethical views was, particularly during the 1860s when he was working himself free of Anglican orthodoxy. As early as 1862, he wrote to Dakyns that he was “revolving a Theory of Ethics” and working on “a reconciliation between the moral sense and utilitarian theories” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 75). He started telling people that he was “engaged on a Great Work,” which would indeed turn out to be the case. By 1867, much of the basic intellectual structure of the Methods was clearly in place; according to Marshall, at the faculty discussion group known as the “Grote Club,” Sidgwick “read a long & general sketch of the various systems of morality: I. Absolute right II. Make yourself noble III. Make yourself happy IV Increase the general happiness. In the course of it he committed himself to the statement that without appreciating the effect of our action on the happiness of ourselves or of others we could have no idea of right & wrong” (quoted in Schultz, 2004: 142).

It was also in 1867 that Sidgwick sent a draft of his pamphlet on “The Ethics of Conformity and Subscription” to J. S. Mill, inviting comments. This work, part of his efforts with the Free Christian Union (an organization for promoting free and open religious inquiry), reflected his casuistical struggles over whether he had a right to keep his Fellowship, given his increasingly Theistic views. He had been increasingly drawn to Theism, which then, as now, stressed that “God's will and purpose, and God's assurance of an ultimate fulfilment, are behind all that is happening” (Polkinghorne, 1998: 114), but without the orthodox commitments to belief in the Trinity, miracles, eternal punishment, etc.. As Sidgwick explained to his sister: “I have written a pamphlet … on the text ‘Let every man be fully persuaded in his own mind.’ That is really the gist of the pamphlet—that if the preachers of religion wish to retain their hold over educated men they must show in their utterances on sacred occasions the same sincerity, exactness, unreserve, that men of science show in expounding the laws of nature. I do not think that much good is to be done by saying this, but I want to liberate my soul, and then ever after hold my peace” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 226). As he put it in the pamphlet, which appeared in 1870:

What theology has to learn from the predominant studies of the age is something very different from advice as to its method or estimates of its utility; it is the imperative necessity of accepting unreservedly the conditions of life under which these studies live and flourish. It is sometimes said that we live in an age that rejects authority. The statement, thus qualified, seems misleading; probably there never was a time when the number of beliefs held by each individual, undemonstrated and unverified by himself, was greater. But it is true that we only accept authority of a particular sort; the authority, namely, that is formed and maintained by the unconstrained agreement of individual thinkers, each of whom we believe to be seeking truth with single-mindedness and sincerity, and declaring what he has found with scrupulous veracity, and the greatest attainable exactness and precision. (Sidgwick, 1870: 14-15).

This was a vision of inquiry and even culture that Sidgwick would promote throughout his life, though after this point he no longer openly directed his criticisms at the church. Mill had replied to his effort to address the question of subscription on “objective” and “utilitarian” grounds: “What ought to be the exceptions … to the general duty of truth? This large question has never yet been treated in a way at once rational and comprehensive, partly because people have been afraid to meddle with it, and partly because mankind have never yet generally admitted that the effect which actions tend to produce on human happiness is what constitutes them right or wrong” (quoted in Schultz, 2004: 134). Mill urged Sidgwick to turn his “thoughts to this more comprehensive subject,” and apparently when the latter did, he concluded that it would not be conducive to the general happiness to continue his open attacks on organized religion. The reasons for this larger conclusion are only partly evident from the Methods itself.

Sidgwick did always explicitly claim, however, that his struggles with the ethics of subscription shaped the views set forth in the Methods. These struggles had led him “back to philosophy” from his more theological and philological investigations—for which he had learned German and Hebrew and struggled with biblical hermeneutics. He found the problem of whether he ought to resign his Fellowship very “difficult, and I may say that it was while struggling with the difficulty thence arising that I went through a good deal of the thought that was ultimately systematised in the The Methods of Ethics” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 38). One of the ways in which this is evident has been highlighted in the work of J. B. Schneewind, whose Sidgwick's Ethics and Victorian Moral Philosophy (1977) was the most comprehensive and sophisticated commentary on Sidgwick's ethics produced in the twentieth century. As part of an extensive account of the historical context of the Methods, underscoring how Sidgwick's work was shaped by both the utilitarian tradition and its intuitionist and religious opposition (represented in part by the “Cambridge Moralists” William Whewell, Julius Hare, F. D. Maurice, and John Grote), Schneewind argued that

it is a mistake to view the book as primarily a defence of utilitarianism. It is true, of course, that a way of supporting utilitarianism is worked out in detail in the Methods, and that there are places in it where Sidgwick seems to be saying quite plainly that utilitarianism is the best available ethical theory. From his other writings we know also that he thinks of himself as committed to utilitarianism, and that he assumes it in analysing specific moral and political issues. Yet it does not follow that the Methods itself should be taken simply as an argument for that position. We must try to understand it in a way that makes sense of its author's own explicit account of it. (Schneewind, 1977: 192).

That account, as both Schneewind and Rawls have stressed, repeatedly affirms that the aim of the book is less practice than knowledge, “to expound as clearly and as fully as my limits will allow the different methods of Ethics that I find implicit in our common moral reasoning; to point out their mutual relations; and where they seem to conflict, to define the issue as much as possible.” That is, echoing his views on theological inquiry, he confesses that:

I have thought that the predominance in the minds of moralists of a desire to edify has impeded the real progress of ethical science: and that this would be benefited by an application to it of the same disinterested curiosity to which we chiefly owe the great discoveries of physics. It is in this spirit that I have endeavoured to compose the present work: and with this view I have desired to concentrate the reader's attention, from first to last, not on the practical results to which our methods lead, but on the methods themselves. I have wished to put aside temporarily the urgent need which we all feel of finding and adopting the true method of determining what we ought to do; and to consider simply what conclusions will be rationally reached if we start with certain ethical premises, and with what degree of certainty and precision (Sidgwick, 1907: vi),

The model for such an approach is not Bentham or even J. S. Mill, but Aristotle, whose Ethics gave us “the Common Sense Morality of Greece, reduced to consistency by careful comparison: given not as something external to him but as what ‘we’—he and others—think, ascertained by reflection.” This was really, in effect, “the Socratic induction, elicited by interrogation” (Sidgwick, 1907: xix).

As Marcus Singer and others have observed (Singer, 1974), Sidgwick's notion of a “method” of ethics is not the same as that of an ethical principle, ethical theory, or ethical decision-procedure. A “method” is a way of “obtaining reasoned convictions as to what ought to be done” and thus it might reflect a commitment to one or more ethical principles as the ultimate ground of one's determination of what one has most reason to do, here and now, while allowing that one might ordinarily be reasoning from such principles either directly or indirectly. Thus, one might, on theological grounds, hold that the moral order of the universe is utilitarian, with God willing the greatest happiness of the greatest number, while also holding that the appropriate guide for practical reason is enlightened self-interest, since utilitarian calculations are God's business and God has ordered the cosmos to insure that enlightened self-interest conduces to the greatest happiness. In this case, one's “method of ethics” would be rational egoism, but the ultimate philosophical justification for this method would appeal to utilitarian principles. Still, despite this emphasis on the reasoning process between principles and practical conclusions—another reflection of his struggles with subscription—Sidgwick does have quite a bit to say in the Methods about the defense of the ultimate principles of practical reason.

Indeed, many have felt that, in setting up the systematic comparison between the main methods of ethics, Sidgwick was not as neutral and impartial as he thought. He simply dismisses the traditional philosophical concern with the “moral faculty,” explaining that he is going to leave that matter to psychologists. For Sidgwick, in any given situation, there is something that it is right or that one ought to do, and this is the proper sphere of ethics. The basic concept of morality is this unique, highly general notion of “ought” or “right” that is irreducible to naturalistic terms, sui generis, though moral approbation is “inseparably bound up with the conviction, implicit or explicit, that the conduct approved is ‘really’ right—that is, that it cannot without error, be disapproved by any other mind” (Sidgwick, 1907: 27). On this count, at least, his student G. E. Moore was willing to declare the Methods untainted by the “naturalistic fallacy”—that is, the confusion of the “is” of attribution and the “is” of identity that supposedly infected much previous ethical theory, including that of Bentham and the Mills. And indeed, it is plain that Sidgwick parted company from classical utilitarianism in many ways, rejecting the empiricism, psychological egoism, and associationism (supposedly) characteristic of the earlier tradition. F.H. Hayward, who wrote one of the first books on Sidgwick's ethics, famously complained that E. E. Constance Jones had missed just how original Sidgwick was: “Sidgwick's identification of ‘Right’ with ‘Reasonable’ and ‘Objective’; his view of Rightness as an ‘ultimate and unanalysable notion’ (however connected subsequently with Hedonism); and his admission that Reason is, in a sense, a motive to the will, are due to the more or less ‘unconscious’ influence of Kant. Miss Jones appears to think that these are the common-places of every ethical system, and that real divergences only arise when we make the next step in advance. I should rather regard this Rationalistic terminology as somewhat foreign to Hedonism. I do not think that Miss Jones will find, in Sidgwick's Hedonistic predecessors, any such emphasis on Reason (however interpreted)” (Hayward, 1900-1: 361). Sidgwick himself allowed that Kant was one of his “masters,” and he was also quite familiar with the works of Hegel. Schneewind's reading (Schneewind, 1977) has stressed this influence, along with the influence of Joseph Butler, whose works persuaded Sidgwick of the falsity of psychological egoism and of the reality of other than self-interested actions (Frankena, 1992).

However, despite the considerable influence Kant and Kantianism—and the Cambridge Moralists— exercised on Sidgwick, the Methods also deviated from some stock features of such views, among other things rejecting the issue of free will as largely irrelevant to ethical theory and failing to appreciate the Kantian arguments about expressing one's autonomy and the incompatibility of the categorical imperative and rational egoism. As Schneewind allows, Sidgwick's

basic aim is similar to Kant's, but, as his many points of disagreement with Kant suggest, the Kantian aspect of his thinking needs to be defined with some care. He detaches the issue of how reason can be practical from the most distinctive aspects of Kantianism. He rejects the methodological apparatus of the ‘critical philosophy’, the Kantian distinction of noumenal and phenomenal standpoints, and the association of the issue with the problem of free will. He treats the question of the possibility of rationally motivated action as answerable largely in terms of commonplace facts; he does not attribute any special synthesizing powers to reason beyond those assumed in ordinary logic; and he does not take morality to provide us with support for religious beliefs.. In refusing to base morality on pure reason alone, moreover, he moves decisively away from Kant, as is shown by his very un-Kantian hedonistic and teleological conclusions.. These points make it clear that the Kantian strain in Sidgwick's thought is most marked in his central idea about the rationality of first principles (Schneewind, 1977: 419-20).

Moreover, there has been some controversy over just how internalist Sidgwick's account of moral motivation actually was. On balance, he held that the dictates or imperatives of reason were “accompanied by a certain impulse to do the acts recognized as right,” while admitting that other impulses may conflict (Sidgwick, 1907: 34). But Brink (1988, 1992) has urged that some of Sidgwick's chief arguments make better sense if he is construed, in externalist fashion, as allowing the possibility that one may have good reasons not to be moral.

There has been even more controversy surrounding Sidgwick's account of the “good.” The Methods is at least fairly clear in arguing that the difference between “right” and “good” in part concerns the way in which judgments of ultimate good do not necessarily involved definite precepts to act or even the assumption that the good in question is attainable or the best attainable good under the circumstances. Rightness and goodness thus “represent differentiations of the demands of our own rationality as it applies to our sentient and our active powers” (Schneewind, 1977: 493). But Sidgwick offers an intricate account of ultimate good that has struck some as highly naturalistic. In A Theory of Justice, Rawls famously explained that Sidgwick “characterizes a person's future good on the whole as what he would now desire and seek if the consequences of all the various courses of conduct open to him were, at the present point of time, accurately foreseen by him and adequately realized in imagination. An individual's good is the hypothetical composition of impulsive forces that results from deliberative reflection meeting certain conditions” (Rawls, [1971], 1999: 366). Many have followed the Rawlsian line in casting Sidgwick as a defender of a naturalistic “full-information” account of the “good” (for example, Sobel, 1994, and Rosati, 1995), but the balance of scholarly opinion has it that Sidgwick's account adumbrates an “objective list” view that allows that some desires, however informed, may be rejected as irrational or unreasonable (see especially Schneewind, 1977, and Parfit, 1984). Crisp (1990) and Shaver (1997) provide helpful reviews of the debates; although the former offers perhaps the best possible defense of the interpretation of Sidgwick's view as a naturalistic full-information account (with an experience requirement), it also admits that the objective list reading is a more charitable one.

Some commentators have made much of the difference between Sidgwick and Moore on the notion of ultimate good, urging that whereas Sidgwick prioritizes an unanalysable notion of “right,” Moore prioritizes an unanalysable notion of “good,” while adding a suspect ontological claim about “goodness” involving a non-natural property (Moore, 1903, and Shaver, 2000). However, Hurka (2003) has offered some forceful arguments against most such accounts:

After defining the good as what we ought to desire, he [Sidgwick] added that ‘since irrational desires cannot always be dismissed at once by voluntary effort,’ the definition cannot use ‘ought’ in ‘the strictly ethical sense,’ but only in ‘the wider sense in which it merely connotes an ideal or standard.’ But this raises the question of what this ‘wider sense’ is, and in particular whether it is at all distinct from Moore's ‘good.’ If the claim that we ‘ought’ to have a desire is only the claim that the desire is ‘an ideal,’ how does it differ from the claim that the desire is good? When ‘ought’ is stripped of its connection with choice, its distinctive meaning seems to slip away (Hurka, 2003: 603-4).

Sidgwick goes on to argue that the best going account of ultimate goodness is a hedonistic one, and that this is an informative, non-tautological claim, though also a more controversial one than many of the others that he defends. As Irwin has insightfully argued, Sidgwick's hedonistic commitments, and his criticisms of such views as T. H. Green's, often reflected the (problematic) conviction that practical reason simply must be fully clear and determinate in its conclusions (Irwin, 1992: 288-90). Without some such metric as the hedonistic one, Sidgwick argued, how can one virtue be compared to another? And can one really recommend making people more virtuous at the expense of their happiness? What if the virtuous life were conjoined to extreme pain, with no compensating good to anyone? But here again, Sidgwick's arguments are not as perspicuous as they at first seem. Admittedly, as Shaver points out, “Sidgwick works out what it is reasonable to desire, and so attaches moral to natural properties, by the ordinary gamut of philosopher's strategies—appeals to logical coherence, plausibility, and judgment after reflection.” (Shaver, 1997: 270). Even so, as Rawls noted, “Sidgwick denies that pleasure is a measurable quality of feeling independent of its relation from volition. This is the view of some writers, he says, but one he cannot accept. He defines pleasure ‘as a feeling which, when experienced by intelligent beings, is at least apprehended as desirable or—in cases of comparison—preferable.’ It would seem that the view he here rejects is the one he relies upon later as the final criterion to introduce coherence among ends.” (Rawls, [1971], 1999: 488). Sumner, in an important treatment, has also urged that Sidgwick and Mill, by contrast with Bentham,

seemed to recognize that the mental states we call pleasures are a mixed bag as far as their phenomenal properties are concerned. On their view what pleasures have in common is not something internal to them—their peculiar feeling tone, or whatever—but something about us—the fact that we like them, enjoy them, value them, find them satisfying, seek them, wish to prolong them, and so on (Sumner, 1996: 86).

2.2 Reconciliation and Chaos

For better or worse, Sidgwick uses the language of hedonism to label two out of the three methods with which he will be chiefly concerned—namely, egoistic hedonism (or rational egoism) and universal hedonism (or utilitarianism). The third method is variously called dogmatic or intuitional morality, which is somewhat ambiguously construed as either the (mostly negative) precepts of common-sense morality or the somewhat more refined version of these set out in the theories of such moral theorists as Whewell or Henry Calderwood. The main point of such views is that conformity to such moral duties as truth-telling, promise-keeping, temperance etc. is held to be “the practically ultimate end of moral actions” and these duties are “unconditionally prescribed” and discernible with “really clear and finally valid intuition,” though it is the job of the moral theorist to set them out with proper precision and “to arrange the results as systematically as possible, and by proper definitions and explanations to remove vagueness and prevent conflict.” (Sidgwick, 1907: 101). Indeed, the plain person is apt to be rather confused about the differences between the methods of ethics, arbitrarily deploying one or another without recognizing any inconsistency.

The three methods of ethics—egoism, intuitional morality, and utilitarianism—respectively form the subject matter of books two through four of the Methods, which brackets them with an opening book reviewing the whole work and a concluding chapter on “The Mutual Relations of the Three Methods.” Each of these books represents in itself a classic treatment of the view at issue, though it is the chapter on utilitarianism that has perhaps most often been treated as such. This architectonic can, however, make it somewhat difficult to follow the thread of Sidgwick's thought, particularly on the more philosophical points having to do with intuitionism. Indeed, intuitionism figures in both the second method of ethics, and, in a more philosophical form, in the treatment of all the methods of ethics, particularly when it comes to the discussion of fundamental principles. As Sidgwick explains, although some might think that conscience delivers immediate judgments on particular acts—a view he variously calls aesthetic, perceptional or ultra intuitionism—“reflective persons, in proportion to their reflectiveness, come to rely rather on abstract universal intuitions relating to classes of cases conceived under general notions.” Hence, dogmatic intuitional morality, which in the Methods is rather awkwardly taken to cover both more deontological views and non-hedonistic teleological ones, on the ground that the latter tend to construe virtue in the same fashion as the simply the done thing, whatever the consequences. But the process of reflection should not stop there: there is another, more sophisticated phase of intuitionism. Without “being disposed to deny that conduct commonly judged to be right is so, we may yet require some deeper explanation why it is so.” Thus, philosophical intuitionism, “while accepting the morality of common sense as in the main sound, still attempts to find for it a philosophic basis which it does not itself offer: to get one or more principles more absolutely and undeniably true and evident, from which the current rules might be deduced, either just as they are commonly received or with slight modifications and rectifications.” (Sidgwick, 1907: 102),

The ascent to this philosophical intuitionism is especially evident in the treatment of common-sense or intuitional morality. As Sidgwick explained in reply to Calderwood's critical review of the Methods, which asked why he had not simply confined himself “to the consideration of Intuitionism in its most philosophical form,” that tactic “would have led me at once to Utilitarianism: because I hold that the only moral intuitions which sound philosophy can accept as ultimately valid are those which at the same time provide the only possible philosophical basis of the Utilitarian creed. I thus necessarily regard Prof. Calderwood's Intuitionism as a phase in the development of the Intuitional method, which comes naturally between the crude thought of Butler's ‘plain man’ and the Rational Utilitarianism to which I ultimately endeavor to lead my reader.” That is, allowing that the morality of common sense is his as well, he must as a philosopher nonetheless

ask myself whether I see clearly and distinctly the self-evidence of any particular maxims of duty, as I see that of the formal principles ‘that what is right for me must be right for all persons in precisely similar circumstances' and ‘that I ought to prefer the greater good of another to my own lesser good’: I have no doubt whatever that I do not. I am conscious of a strong impression, an opinion on which I habitually act without hesitation, that I ought to speak truth, to perform promises, to requite benefits, & c., and also of powerful moral sentiments prompting me to the observance of these rules; but on reflection I can now clearly distinguish such opinions and sentiments from the apparently immediate and certain cognition that I have of the formal principles above mentioned. But I could not always have made this distinction; and I believe that the majority of moral persons do not make it: most ‘plain men’ would probably say, at any rate on the first consideration of the matter, that they saw the obligations of Veracity and Good Faith as clearly and immediately as they saw those of Equity and Rational Benevolence. How then am I to argue with such persons? It will not settle the matter to tell them that they have observed their own mental processes wrongly, and that more careful introspection will show them the non-intuitive character of what they took for intuitions; especially as in many cases I do not believe that the error is one of misobservation. Still less am I inclined to dispute the ‘primitiveness' or ‘spontaneousness' or ‘originality’ of these apparent intuitions. On the contrary, I hold that here, as in other departments of thought, the primitive spontaneous processes of the mind are mixed with error, which is only to be removed gradually by comprehensive reflection upon the results of these processes. Through such a course of reflection I have endeavored to lead my readers in chaps. 2-10 of Book III of my treatise: in the hope that after they have gone through it they may find their original apprehension of the self-evidence of moral maxims importantly modified. (Sidgwick, 1876: 564).

And as he explained in another important commentary on the Methods, “The Establishment of Ethical First Principles,” he accepts Aristotle's distinction between logical priority and priority in the knowledge of a particular person, such that we “are thus enabled to see that a proposition may be self-evident, i.e., may be properly cognisable without being viewed in connexion with any other propositions; though in order that its truth may be apparent to some particular mind, there is still required some rational process connecting it with propositions previously accepted by that mind.” This latter can be done in two ways: by showing how “some limited and qualified statement” supposed to be self-evident is only part of a “simpler and wider proposition,” on which the limitations turn out to be arbitrary, and by establishing some general criteria “for distinguishing true first principles” that are then used to “construct a strictly logical deduction by which, applying their general criteria to the special case of ethics, we establish the true first principles of this latter subject” (Sidgwick, 1879: 106-7). Truth being one, both tactics should ultimately converge on the same conclusions.

Whether Sidgwick succeeded in avoiding mere “hostile criticism from the outside” in his analysis of common-sense morality is open to debate; certainly, the critical reflection can seem quite remorseless, with the utilitarian repeatedly demonstrating to the dogmatic intuitionist

that the principles of Truth, Justice, etc. have only a dependent and subordinate validity: arguing either that the principle is really only affirmed by Common-Sense as a general rule admitting of exceptions and qualifications, as in the case of Truth, and that we require some further principle for systematising these exceptions and qualifications; or that the fundamental notion is vague and needs further determination, as in the case of Justice; and further, that the different rules are liable to conflict with each other, and that we require some higher principle to decide the issue thus raised; and again, that the rules are differently formulated by different persons, and that these differences admit of no Intuitional solution, while they show the vagueness and ambiguity of the common moral notions to which the Intuitionist appeals. (Sidgwick, 1907: 421).

Time and again, common sense collapses into utilitarian thinking, or is shown to presuppose it, or is at least revealed as requiring something very like it. This effort to criticize and assimilate common-sense moral rules went far beyond the efforts of J. S. Mill and has served as a template for the neo-utilitarian work of Smart (1973), Hare (1981), Parfit (1984), Singer (2001), Hardin (1988), Gibbard (1982, 1990), and Brandt ( 1979). Like many in the utilitarian tradition, Sidgwick ended up recognizing the moral standing of non-human animals, puzzling over questions of suicide, defending a notion of intention covering all foreseen consequences, rejecting purely retributive accounts of punishment, embracing a cosmopolitan (rather than nationalistic) outlook, and thinking—though not public insisting—that orthodox religion and its morality were often dogmatic and superstitious. He initiated the (modern) philosophical discussion of the problem of future generations and optimal population growth, arguing that “strictly conceived, the point up to which, on Utilitarian principles, population ought to be encouraged to increase, is not that at which average happiness is the greatest possible … but that at which the produce formed by multiplying the number of persons living into the amount of average happiness reaches its maximum” (Sidgwick, 1907: 415-16). But he was not always consistent in his treatment of this issue.

It is, however, not always easy to apply the (anachronistic) classification of “act” or “rule” utilitarianism to Sidgwick (Grey, 1989, Williams, 1995, and Hooker, 2000). But it is tolerably clear that he defended an “indirect” form of utilitarianism; indeed, he goes rather far in defending the possibility of utilitarianism entailing a self-effacing, even esoteric morality:

Thus, on Utilitarian principles, it may be right to do and privately recommend, under certain circumstances, what it would not be right to advocate openly; it may be right to teach openly to one set of persons what it would be wrong to teach to others; it may be conceivably right to do, if it can be done with comparative secrecy, what it would be wrong to do in the face of the world; and even, if perfect secrecy can be reasonably expected, what it would be wrong to recommend by private advice or example. These conclusions are all of a paradoxical character: there is no doubt that the moral consciousness of a plain man broadly repudiates the general notion of an esoteric morality, differing from the one popularly taught; and it would be commonly agreed that an action which would be bad if done openly is not rendered good by secrecy. We may observe, however, that there are strong utilitarian reasons for maintaining generally this latter common opinion…. Thus the Utilitarian conclusion, carefully stated, would seem to be this; that the opinion that secrecy may render an action right which would not otherwise be so should itself be kept comparatively secret; and similarly it seems expedient that the doctrine that esoteric morality is expedient should itself be kept esoteric. … a Utilitarian may reasonably desire, on Utilitarian principles, that some of his conclusions should be rejected by mankind generally; or even that the vulgar should keep aloof from his system as a whole, in so far as the inevitable indefiniteness and complexity of its calculations render it likely to lead to bad results in their hands. (Sidgwick, 1907: 489-90).

Such provocative remarks, which flatly contradict any Kantian insistence on the publicity of fundamental moral principles, may reflect a consistent interpretation of the different “levels” of moral thinking, critical versus everyday, but they have generated much criticism, with Williams charging that Sidgwick was a “Government House” utilitarian whose views comported well with colonialism (Williams, 1995, and Schultz, 2004).

Sidgwick's reconciliation of intuitional morality and utilitarianism obviously deploys a sophisticated form of intuitionist epistemology, one allowing for the fallibilism of its conclusions. He formulates four criteria or conditions “the complete fulfillment of which would establish a significant proposition, apparently self-evident, in the highest degree of certainty attainable: and which must be approximately realised by the premises of our reasoning in any inquiry, if that reasoning is to lead us cogently to trustworthy conclusions” (Sidgwick, 1907: 338). The first, often called simply the “Cartesian Criterion,” demands that the “terms of the proposition must be clear and precise,” and the second requires that the “self-evidence of the proposition must be ascertained by careful reflection,” which is especially important in ethics because “any strong sentiment, however purely subjective, is apt to transform itself into the semblance of an intuition; and it requires careful contemplation to detect the illusion” (Sidgwick, 1907: 339). Third, the “propositions accepted as self-evident must be mutually consistent,” since it “is obvious that any collision between two intuitions is a proof that there is error in one or the other, or in both.” (Sidgwick, 1907: 341). And fourth, since “it is implied in the very notion of Truth that it is essentially the same for all minds, the denial by another of a proposition that I have affirmed has a tendency to impair my confidence in its validity.” This last adds an important social dimension to Sidgwick's epistemology: “the absence of such disagreement must remain an indispensable negative condition of the certainty of our beliefs,” for “if I find any of my judgements, intuitive or inferential, in direct conflict with a judgment of some other minds, there must be error somewhere: and if I have no more reason to suspect error in the other mind than in my own, reflective comparison between the two judgments necessarily reduces me temporarily to a state of neutrality” (Sidgwick, 1907: 341-42). In other, more purely epistemological works, Sidgwick collapsed the first two conditions into one, such that his philosophical intuitionism involved the three-pronged demand for clarity and ability to withstand critical reflection, consistency or coherence, and consensus of experts. He was also apt to explain that these conditions only afforded the best means for reducing the risk of error, rather than establishing indubitable truth. On this count, such posthumous works as Lectures on the Philosophy of Kant (1905) and Philosophy, Its Scope and Relations (1902) provide important supplements to the Methods. Singer (2000) provides an excellent collection of those of Sidgwick's essays and reviews most relevant to the Methods.

3. Epistemology

Perhaps no region of Sidgwick's work has been the subject of greater interpretive controversy than his epistemology. The early work of Schneewind (1963) and Rawls (1971, 1975) played up the dialectical side of Sidgwick's approach and the ways in which he anticipated the Rawlsian account of the method of reflective equilibrium. Reactions to any such interpretation, which supposedly accorded too generous a role to “received opinion” in Sidgwick's methodology, came from Singer (1974) and many others influenced by Hare's critique of Rawls (see also Sverdlik, 1984). Rawls himself shifted his ground somewhat in later work, playing up Sidgwick's “rational intuitionism” (Rawls, 1996). More recent accounts, notably Brink (1994) and Shaver (1999), have recognized that Sidgwick's approach contains both dialectical and more purely intuitionist elements, debating whether these can be combined in a consistent or coherent way. Recent work on Sidgwick has also benefited from the renaissance in and rehabilitation of intuitionism, evident in such works as Audi (1997) and Stratton-Lake (2002); the latter contains an important contribution by Crisp that effectively distances Sidgwick's views from cruder versions of intuitionism. Schultz (2004) surveys the development of these debates.

Sidgwick's epistemology is linked to other significant controversies as well, such as those concerning the degree to which he can really be classified as a utilitarian, in any unqualified fashion. For Sidgwick argues, over the course of the Methods, that common-sense or intuitional morality keeps giving way to more abstract formal principles as the better candidates for genuinely self-evident truths. Although there is some controversy over just how many such principles he advances, at the least he defends a universalizability principle (one must be able to will one's maxim to be a universal law) and a principle of rational prudence (or temporal neutrality, such that one should be ceterus paribus equally concerned with all parts of one's life), in addition to the utilitarian principle of rational benevolence. Controversially, he holds that the universalizability principle is merely formal and lacks content, being consistent with both egoism and utilitarianism, and that temporal neutrality translates into a form of prudence. And in fact, even utilitarianism is actually derived from two more fundamental principles, and involves the “relation of the integrant parts to the whole and to each other” in order to obtain “the self-evident principle that the good of any one individual is of no more importance, from the point of view (if I may say so) of the Universe, than the good of any other; unless, that is, there are special grounds for believing the more good is likely to be realised in the one case than in the other. And it is evident to me that as a rational being I am bound to aim at good generally,—so far as it is attainable by my efforts,—not at a particular part of it.” And from “these two rational intuitions we may deduce, as a necessary inference, the maxim of Benevolence in an abstract form: viz. that each one is morally bound to regard the good of any other individual as much as his own, except in so far as he judges it to be less, when impartially viewed, or less certainly knowable or attainable by him” (Sidgwick, 1907: 382). Thus, in his more careful statements of the candidates for self-evident truths, Sidgwick refrains from formulations directly invoking “the greatest happiness of the greatest number” or hedonistic considerations. Some of the most sophisticated commentary on the Methods, such as Schneewind (1977) and Shaver (1999), has highlighted the gap between these “axioms” and the substantive ethical theories derived or developed from them. Sidgwick himself appreciated the irony of his position, the way in which the hard-headed, reformist utilitarian emphasis on clarity and conclusiveness had dissipated in his work: there are indeed “certain absolute practical principles, the truth of which, when they are explicitly stated, is manifest; but they are of too abstract a nature, and too universal in their scope, to enable us to ascertain by immediate application of them what we ought to do in any particular case; particular duties have still to be determined by some other method” (Sidgwick, 1907: 379). Common-sense rules have their place, but are not even clear enough to serve as the “middle axioms” of the utilitarian theory. As he put it to Dakyns: “Ethics is losing its interest for me rather, as the insolubility of its fundamental problem is impressed on me. I think the contribution to the formal clearness & coherence of our ethical thought which I have to offer is just worth giving: for a few speculatively-minded persons—very few. And as for all practical questions of interest, I feel as if I had now to begin at the beginning and learn the ABC” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 277).

Worse still, all was not happy even in the ethereal region of the axioms. The “insolubility” of the “fundamental problem” of ethics—the key problem that had troubled Sidgwick in the 1860s—was indeed on display in Sidgwick's treatise, in that he did not find the unified account of practical reason that he sought even at the more abstract level. As he had put it in an earlier letter to his friend Dakyns: “You know I want intuitions for Morality; at least one (of Love) is required to supplement the utilitarian morality, and I do not see why, if we are to have one, we may not have others. I have worked away vigorously at the selfish morality, but I cannot persuade myself, except by trusting intuition, that Christian self-sacrifice is really a happier life than classical insouciance” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 90). The problem of self-sacrifice and the claims of rational egoism were not, on Sidgwick's view, amenable to the same form of reconciliation with utilitarianism that intuitional morality was. In fact, the first edition of the Methods concludes that rational egoism and utilitarianism end up in a stand-off, that there is a “dualism of the practical reason,” and that as a result, there is a “fundamental contradiction in our apparent intuitions of what is Reasonable in conduct” such that “the ‘Cosmos' of Duty is thus really reduced to a Chaos, and the prolonged effort of the human intellect to frame a perfect ideal of rational conduct is seen to have been foredoomed to inevitable failure” (Sidgwick, 1874: 473). Later editions of the work sounded a somewhat less bleak concluding note, but did not differ in substance. The main possible solutions to the problem that Sidgwick considered are two, a weakening of epistemological standards, or a Theistic postulate about the coherent moral government of the universe. On the first, he suggests that if “we find that in our supposed knowledge of the world of nature propositions are commonly taken to be universally true, which seem to rest on no other ground than that we have a strong disposition to accept them, and that they are indispensable to the systematic coherence of our beliefs,—it will be more difficult to reject a similarly supported assumption in ethics, without opening the door to universal scepticism” (Sidgwick, 1907: 509). On the second, he explains that if “we may assume the existence of such a Being, as God, by the consensus of theologians, is conceived to be, it seems that Utilitarians may legitimately infer the existence of Divine sanctions to the code of social duty as constructed on a Utilitarian basis; and such sanctions would, of course, suffice to make it always every one's interest to promote universal happiness to the best of his knowledge” (Sidgwick, 1907: 506).

Sidgwick often departed from the pristine language of the axioms when describing this conflict. In another important essay on his own work, he explained that along with “(a) a fundamental moral conviction that I ought to sacrifice my own happiness, if by so doing I can increase the happiness of others to a greater extent than I diminish my own, I find also (b) a conviction—which it would be paradoxical to call ‘moral’, but which is none the less fundamental—that it would be irrational to sacrifice any portion of my own happiness unless the sacrifice is to be somehow at some time compensated by an equivalent addition to my own happiness” (Sidgwick, 1889: 483). He urges that each of these convictions has as much clarity and certainty “as the process of introspective can give” and each also finds wide assent “in the common sense of mankind.” Moreover, his account of rational egoism does not rely on a narrow or low-minded account of self-interest. Besides

admitting the actual importance of sympathetic pleasures to the majority of mankind, I should go further and maintain that, on empirical grounds alone, enlightened self-interest would direct most men to foster and develop their sympathetic susceptibilities to a greater extent than is now commonly attained. The effectiveness of Butler's famous argument against the vulgar antithesis between Self-love and Benevolence is undeniable: and it seems scarcely extravagant to say that, amid all the profuse waste of the means of happiness which men commit, there is no imprudence more flagrant than that of Selfishness in the ordinary sense of the term,—the excessive concentration of attention on the individual's own happiness which renders it impossible for him to feel any strong interest in the pleasures and pains of others. (Sidgwick, 1907: 501).

Still, he found it impossible to deny that even very high-minded versions of egoism posed a problem, prescribing actions conflicting with the general good in such cases as heroic sacrifice of self in battle, etc. This view, he suggested, could be found in Butler's claim that “Reasonable Self-love and Conscience are the two chief or superior principles in the nature of man,” each generating an obligation, though Frankena (1992) and Darwall (2000) have raised questions about the historical accuracy of this attribution. But in any event, the basic point is that if “the Egoist strictly confines himself to stating his conviction that he ought to take his own happiness or pleasure as his ultimate end, there seems no opening for an argument to lead him to Utilitarianism (as a first principle). But if he offers either as a reason for this conviction, or as another form of stating it, the proposition that his happiness or pleasure is objectively ‘desirable’ or ‘a good’, he gives the requisite opening. For the Utilitarian can then point out that his happiness cannot be more objectively desirable or more a good than the happiness of any one else; the mere fact … that he is he can have nothing to do with its objective desirability or goodness.” (Sidgwick, 1873: 259-60). But the egoist need not make that move—it is rational simply to take one's own point of view, as well as the point of view of the universe—of the utilitarian superperson.

Sidgwick's dualism has stimulated much controversy, even leading some recent commentators to urge that he is better termed a “dualist” or “dual-source theorist” than a utilitarian (Crisp, 2002). Moore (1903) famously dismissed the problem on the grounds that the notion of one's “own good” was nonsense, but Mackie (1976) sharply countered that Moore was begging the question. Broad (1930) claimed that Sidgwick's account was confused, since his proposed solutions did not touch the problem of the inconsistent fundamental principles, though this has been effectively addressed by Coady (1994), Schneewind (1977) and many others. Brink (1988) has argued that it is absurd to claim that two self-evident principles are inconsistent, but Shaver (1999) has replied that Sidgwick is for the most part consistent in calling the principles at issue only “apparently” self-evident, though Shaver also suggests that Sidgwick did not present a compelling case for the egoistic side of the conflict. Skorupski (2000) has forcefully argued that there is no dualism of the “pure” practical reason, which is agent neutral, but there are many such conflicts in the larger field of less than pure practical reason, not merely a conflict with egoistic reasons. And Baier (1995) has argued that Sidgwick's account suffers from various ambiguities because he does not clearly distinguish “requiring” reasons from “permissive” ones, which would avoid the contradiction. These controversies are likely to continue as long as there is such a thing as ethical philosophy.

Although Sidgwick denied that it was his special purpose, in the Methods, to call attention to the dualism of practical reason, this problem clearly loomed very large for him and affected many other aspects of his life and work, including his views on the history of ethics: he thought egoism the dominant view of the classical Greek philosophers, the difference between ancients and moderns having largely to do with the modern preoccupation with “ought” rather than “good” and the emergence of the dualism in Butler (Frankena, 1992, Irwin, 1992, 1994). Arguably, he never did full justice to non-hedonistic, teleological forms of perfectionism (Hurka, 2001) or to fully deontological, Kantian views (Schneewind, 1977). However, the range of his arguments is richer than many of his critics have recognized, and he advanced effective criticisms of the evolutionism of Herbert Spencer, the idealism of Green and Bradley, and most of the other currents of philosophical opinion that he encountered. Weinstein (2000) argues effectively that on key points Spencer and Sidgwick had much in common; Brink (2003) indicates just how intelligent and penetrating the exchanges between Sidgwick and Green were, though he concludes that Green scored an effective point in charging that Sidgwick's hedonism was implausible, even if coherent.

In the end, at least on the topic of classifying Sidgwick's Methods as a work of classical utilitarianism, it is difficult to dissent from Schneewind's summary of its heterodoxy: the Methods

centers on an examination of the accepted moral opinions and modes of thought of common sense. It involves a rejection of empiricism and dismisses the issue of determinism as irrelevant. It emphasizes an attempt to reconcile positions seen by utilitarians as deeply opposed to each other. It finds ethical egoism as reasonable as utilitarianism; and it concludes with arguments to show that, because of this, no full reconciliation of the various rational methods for reaching moral decisions is possible and therefore that the realm of practical reason is probably incoherent. (Schneewind [1974], 1992: 94).

This helps explain why the work continues to inspire both utilitarians and their critics.

4. Religion and Parapsychology

In an intriguing piece of retrospection written in 1887, Sidgwick explained:

Some fifteen years ago, when I was writing my book on Ethics, I was inclined to hold with Kant that we must postulate the continued existence of the soul, in order to effect that harmony of Duty with Happiness which seemed to me indispensable to rational moral life. At any rate I thought I might provisionally postulate it, while setting out on the serious search for empirical evidence. If I decide that this search is a failure, shall I finally and decisively make this postulate? Can I consistently with my whole view of truth and the method of its attainment? And if I answer “no” to each of these questions, have I any ethical system at all? (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 466-7).

Whether Sidgwick's memory was entirely accurate is uncertain. In a letter actually composed in 1870, he confessed to his friend Roden Noel:

I have never based my belief in immortality on our consciousness of the oneness of Self. I have always considered Kant's ‘Paralogisms' conclusive as against that.

What I really base it on (apart from the evidence supplied by Spiritualism, and apart from religious grounds) is on Ethics, as Kant, supported by Common Sense. But I do not state the argument quite as you answer it, but thus

In the face of the conflict between Virtue & Happiness, my own voluntary life, and that of every other man constituted like me, i.e. I believe, of every normal man, is reduced to hopeless anarchy.

Two authorities roughly speaking Butler's ‘self-love’ and ‘Conscience’ claim to rule, and neither will yield to the other.

The only way of avoiding this intolerably anarchy is by the Postulate of Immortality. But you may say—'you cannot believe it because you want to’

I reply; I find

  1. in me an inherited predisposition to this faith.
  2. In human history the belief is that of the best part of mankind: it has nearly, though not quite, the authority of a belief of Common Sense. (quoted in Schultz, 2004: 441).

At any rate, he often expressed dissatisfaction with the Kantian solution, devoting endless hours to “the serious search for empirical evidence” of personal survival. He had long been sympathetic to this type of natural theology, devoting more effort to it than to exploring alternative epistemological arguments of relevance to the dualism.. Indeed, Sidgwick joined the Cambridge “Ghost Society” as an undergraduate, and he had already devoted many years to informal psychical research before the formation of the Society for Psychical Research, in 1882, although his efforts expanded thanks to the larger formal organization (Gauld, 1968, and Oppenheim, 1985). He was president of the SPR from 1882-85 and again from 1888-93. The comparative sobriety of his leadership of this organization, which represented an unusual combination of eminent intellectuals, first-rate scientists, and spiritualistic lunatics, undoubtedly did a great deal to enhance its respectability and insure its longevity. Even many of the spiritualists, who were precommitted to belief in disembodied human spirits, seances, and so forth, allowed that Sidgwick was as fair-minded as any non-mystic could be.

Sidgwick's parapsychology was clearly and admittedly an extension of his religious studies and as such relevant to the solution of the dualism of practical reason. He did not often spell out the precise chain of argument leading from evidence for survival to a unified conception of practical reason, but the general Theistic idea of a “friendly Universe” enjoying a utilitarian moral government was obviously behind his efforts. Again, although he was not sure that he could rationally defend it, he was strongly drawn to the Theistic view that there is a “Heart and Mind” behind phenomena—a “Sovereign Will that orders all things rightly (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 604)—and that the universe is ethically meaningful, even if the storm and stress that he had suffered in the 1860s had permanently distanced him from Christian orthodoxy. Interestingly, his conversion to a more utilitarian mode of ethical theory had even predated his break with Anglican orthodoxy, which involved a long and painful struggle that had him studying Hebrew and German, engaging with the new biblical criticism of Strauss and Renan, and arguing with some of the most prominent theologians of his day, including Benson. He found, however, that historical and philological study of the Bible could not answer the deepest philosophical and ethical questions, which called for, among other things, free and open inquiry into the possibility of miracles and paranormal phenomena. Unfortunately, he found that orthodox religion was all too often unreceptive to such forms of inquiry, and that his doubts about such matters as the Virgin Birth were not adequately addressed by the theologians. In a revealing public letter to the Times, Sidgwick distinguished three different approaches to the Bible: “Simple Scripturalism,” which took it all as literally true, “Historical Scripturalism,” which took only its theological and moral statements has having that standing, and “Rationalism,“ which held that, although the “most important part of religious truth … was discovered or revealed before the first century of Christianity was closed,” nonetheless “the process of development which the historical scripturalist traces between the earlier and later of them has continued since, and will continue, and that we cannot forecast its limits, and that even where the doctrine of the Bible, taken as a whole, is clear, an appeal lies always open to the common sense, common reason, and combined experience of the religious portion of mankind” (quoted in Schultz, 2004: 83). Sidgwick identified himself with the Rationalist camp, which was congenial to developing a thin Theistic account of religion emphasizing the moral government of the universe, personal survival of physical death, and the existence of a benevolent God. Indeed, he is confident “that the thought of civilised Europe is moving rapidly in its direction, and that it must inevitably spread and prevail,” though he also hopes “that it may spread with the least possible disruption and disorganization of existing institutions, the least possible disruption of old sympathies and associations.” He is also confident, as he makes plain in various works, that the day of theological censure and authoritarianism is passing.

Sidgwick's psychical research never yielded the hard proof of survival that he sought, and although at the end of his life he concluded that it had been largely a waste of time, he allowed that there were some positive results from it and that, at least in the 1890s, some promising new lines of research had emerged. The investigation of personal survival turned out to be bound up with the investigation of many other purportedly paranormal phenomena: telepathy, telekinesis, hypnotism, automatic writing, trance mediumship, apparitions of the living as well as the dead, the claims of Theosophy, etc. After all, it was argued, a medium supposedly relaying information from the dead might instead be in telepathic communication with living sources of that information. Thus, in order to establish that communication from the “other world” had actually occurred, it was essential to be able to rule out the possibility of telepathy.

The “Sidgwick Group,” as it was called—that is, Henry and Eleanor Sidgwick, Arthur and Gerald Balfour, F. W. H. Myers, Lord Rayleigh, Edmund Gurney, and a few others—worked in close collaboration, and ended up establishing to their satisfaction the reality of telepathic communication among the living, the findings being presented in the series of massive (and quite sophisticated) studies Phantasms of the Dead, Phantasms of the Living, and the Census of Hallucinations. As Myers explained the work:

under our heading of ‘Phantasms of the living,’ we propose, in fact, to deal with all classes of cases where there is reason to suppose that the mind of one human being has affected the mind of another, without speech uttered, or word written, or sign made;—has affected it, that is to say, by other means than through the recognised channels of sense.

To such transmissions of thoughts or feelings we have elsewhere given the name of telepathy; and the records of an experimental proof of the reality of telepathy will form a part of the present work. But … we have included among telepathic phenomena a vast class of cases which seem at first sight to involve something widely different from a mere transference of thought.

I refer to apparitions; excluding, indeed, the alleged apparitions of the dead, but including the apparitions of all persons who are still living, as we know life, though they may be on the very brink and border of physical dissolution. And these apparitions … are themselves extremely various in character; including not visual phenomena alone, but auditory, tactile, or even purely ideational and emotional impressions. All these we have included under the term phantasm; a word which, though etymologically a mere variant of phantom, has been less often used, and has not become so closely identified with visual impressions alone. (Myers, [1886], 1975: ix).

Psychical research, Myers goes on to suggest, can now claim “a certain amount of actual achievement.” Thus,

We hold that we have proved by direct experiment, and corroborated by the narratives contained in this book, the possibility of communications between two minds, inexplicable by any recognised physical laws, but capable (under certain rare spontaneous conditions) of taking place when the persons concerned are at an indefinite distance from each other. And we claim further that by investigations of the higher phenomena of mesmerism, and of the automatic action of the mind, we have confirmed and expanded this view in various directions, and attained a standing-point from which certain even stranger alleged phenomena begin to assume an intelligible aspect, and to suggest further discoveries to come.

Thus far the authors of this book, and also the main group of their fellow-workers, are substantially agreed.(Myers, [1886], 1975: xx).

This last line indicates, in particular, that Henry Sidgwick, whose name did not appear among the list of authors of these works, was in substantial agreement with their claims, which certainly appears to be the case. As Broad, a later sympathizer, summarized one of the main conclusions of the most comprehensive of the studies, the Census of Hallucinations: “About one visual hallucination in sixty-three occurs within a period of twenty-four hours round about the death of the person whose apparition has been ‘seen.’ If such deal-coincidences were purely fortuitous concurrences of causally independent events the proportion would be about one in nineteen thousand.” Broad concluded that the Census was “a uniquely and meticulously careful contribution to an important branch of their subject.” (Broad, 1938: 144)

But these studies suggested that much of the supposed evidence for personal survival was merely evidence for telepathic communications from the living (albeit, perhaps dying), and Sidgwick consequently found much of this work distressing rather than encouraging. It was only in the 1890s, with the famous case of Leonora Piper, that he came to think that there was something resembling a “prima facie” case for survival. Piper was an American whose trance mediumship produced purported communications from particular deceased persons, and her claims withstood the combined scrutiny of the best researchers in both the American and British S.P.R.s, including William James, the Sidgwicks, Richard Hodgson, and Frank Podmore. As Braude (2003) indicates, the Piper case is still being debated to this day. Evidence of this nature helped persuade Eleanor Sidgwick, in the years following Henry's death, that his personality had survived physical death and succeeded in communicating with her (Schultz, 2004).

If much of Sidgwick's psychical research today looks rather gullible, it must be allowed that his positive conclusions were always very cautious and guarded, and that his work in fact had an overwhelmingly negative, destructive effect, akin to that of recent debunkers of parapsychology. The Sidgwick Group exposed one fraud after another, including the fraudulent claims of Madame Blavatsky and the Theosophical movement, though Theosophists continue to dispute this. Indeed, Theosophy remains an influential “New Age” form of the esoteric spiritualism that Sidgwick found attractive (given its concern with the common mystical core of all religions) but impossible to defend (Oppenheim, 1985). Insofar as parapsychology has ever enjoyed any standing as a rigorous field of scientific inquiry, this is thanks to the efforts of Sidgwick. Furthermore, the work of the Sidgwick Group helped pave the way for much of the developing research in depth psychology generally, calling attention to the efforts of Freud, Charcot, Richet and many others whose names are not primarily associated with parapsychology (Gauld, 1968).

Thus, Sidgwick's parapsychological investigations were of a-piece with his work on ethics and religion, and, especially in the late 1880s, similarly frustrating. As he explained to his close friend Symonds, he had “tried all methods in turn—all that I found pointed out by any of those who have gone before me; and all in turn have failed—revelational, rational, empirical methods—there is no proof in any of them” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 472). But Sidgwick was not eager to publicly proclaim the negative results of his investigations, any more than he was eager to publicly proclaim the skepticism about orthodox religion with with which they were entangled. In the 1860s, in his work with the Free Christian Union and religious investigations generally, he had been more open, freely identifying himself as a Rationalist and a skeptic. But in the aftermath of his resignation, he ceased to attack openly the religious beliefs and organizations that he deemed indefensible. As he later explained to an old friend:

In fact, the reason why I keep strict silence now for many years with regard to theology is that while I cannot myself discover adequate rational basis for the Christian hope of happy immortality, it seems to be that the general loss of such a hope, from the minds of average human beings as now constituted, would be an evil of which I cannot pretend to measure the extent. I am not prepared to say that the dissolution of the existing social order would follow, but I think the danger of such dissolution woul dbe seriously increased, and that the evil would certainly be very great (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 357).

Caught between the “Great Either-Or” of “Pessimism or Faith,” Sidgwick may have regarded his position as “an inevitable point in the process of thought,” but it was one he took “as a soldier takes a post of difficulty,” and he could not assume the responsibility of drawing others to it (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 354). He was not sure that the subject of ethics was sufficiently like science and unlike theology to render his academic position legitimate, even if he did not have to swear belief in the Thirty-Nine Articles. But he did allow himself the hope that “a considerable improvement in average human beings in this respect of sympathy is like to increase the mundane happiness for men generally, and to render the hope of future happiness less needed to sustain them in the trials of life” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 358). Hence, the importance of political and educational reform. It was “premature to despair.”

5. Economics, Politics, Education

Sidgwick may have thought that the “deepest problems” of human life had to do with the religious and ethical problems that inspired his parapsychological research, but he nonetheless also devoted an enormous amount of time and energy to both the theoretical and practical sides of economics, politics, law, and ethics, which were after all relevant to the problem of the dualism. In this he was certainly in line with the tradition of Bentham and James and J. S. Mill, all of whom presented utilitarianism as a comprehensive doctrine that prioritized political, legal, and economic reform (Albee, 1901, Skorupski, 1993, and Rawls, [1993], 1996). If Sidgwick had his own take on these subjects, his perspective was still that of a theorist and reformer with broad “interdisciplinary” concerns, rather than that of an ethicist obsessed with personal ethics narrowly construed. His professional credentials as both an economist and political scientist were impeccable, although the professional organizations now associated with these disciplines were only beginning to take shape in his era. He was an active member of the section of the British Association concerned with political economy and economics, and his book on The Elements of Politics, first published in 1891, became a staple of political science at Cambridge and elsewhere. He is best thought of as one of the founding fathers of the “Cambridge School” of economics, one whose contributions should be classed with those of Alfred Marshall and F. Y. Edgeworth (Backhouse, 2004).

But Sidgwick's reputation as an economist has often suffered from an invidious comparison with Marshall, his Cambridge colleague and rival, who is classed among the greatest figures in the history of the discipline. Marshall was both a brilliant economic thinker and a relentless discipline builder, the man who basically established modern economics as an independent academic discipline at Cambridge. As “University politicians” he and Sidgwick were often at odds with each other, since Sidgwick on some points resisted his efforts, believing that economics should remain integrated with the study of politics. Almost immediately upon his appointment as professor in late 1884, Marshall, in a famous incident, confronted Sidgwick and ridiculed him for his “mania” for “over-regulation” and his “failure to attract men on a large scale,” the way Green had at Oxford. Marshall claimed that Sidgwick was hampering his efforts, despite his greater knowledge of economics. Sidgwick reflected on the charges, but concluded that missionary zeal was not for him:

feeling that the deepest truth I have to tell is by no means ‘good tidings,’ I naturally shrink from exercising on others the personal influence which would make men [resemble] me, as much as men more optimistic and prophetic naturally aim at exercising such influences. Hence as a teacher I naturally desire to limit my teaching to those whose bent or deliberate choice it is to search after ultimate truth; if such come to me, I try to tell them all I know; if others come with vaguer aims, I wish if possible to train their faculties without guiding their judgements. I would not if I could, and I could not if I would, say anything which would make philosophy—my philosophy—popular. (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 394-96).

Sidgwick had known Marshall for a long time—since the 1860s—and had in fact helped his career. He had in effect tutored Marshall in philosophy, stimulated his interest in educational reform, fostered their mutual interest in political economy, and helped call attention to the importance of Marshall's early work, privately circulating some of it. Initially, Marshall had joined in the cause of women's higher education, but he later opposed it, despite his marriage to Newnham graduate Mary Paley. Thus, by the 1880s and 90s, relations between the two men were often quite strained (Groenewegen, 1995, and Schultz, 2004).

Sidgwick had in fact long been a student of political economy. “Mill's influence,” he explained, led him “as a matter of duty” to “study political economy thoroughly, and give no little thought to practical questions, social and political” (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1906: 36). In the early 1860s, he was absorbed in the study of Mill's classic work, the Principles of Political Economy, and much influenced by Mill's Cambridge disciple, the blind political economist Henry Fawcett. From the late 1870s on, he regularly published works in this field, producing his own Principles of Political Economy in 1883, heading the political economy section of the British Association, contributing to Palgrave, and serving on various government Commissions concerned with economic questions (he developed considerable expertise devising intricate taxation schemes) His work as an academic and policy advisor put him in touch with (directly or indirectly) many of the leading economists of the day—not only such Cambridge colleagues as Marshall, Edgeworth, J. N. Keynes, and Herbert Foxwell, but also such figures as Leon Walras, N. Senior, J. E. Cairnes, and W. S. Jevons. He was even familiar with the work of Karl Marx, at a time when few trained economists even knew who Marx was. Moreover, he was long involved with both the practical and theoretical work of the Cambridge Charity Organization Society, developing a sophisticated, eclectic approach to the issue of poor relief.

But like Marshall and many economists down to the present, Sidgwick drew a careful distinction between the descriptive side (the science) of economic analysis and the normative or policy side (the art), which especially concerns the proper role of government intervention in the market system to improve “either the social production of wealth or its distribution” (Sidgwick, 1901: 33). He was also steeped in the great methodological debates over the historical or inductive versus the analytic or deductive approaches to the subject, and his balanced efforts to combine the two—and strengthen comparative studies as well—considerably distance his work from older Benthamite defenses of Laissez Faire. For Sidgwick, “economic man” is simply an abstraction that may be useful for explaining or predicting some aspects of the behavior of people under certain historical circumstances and in certain situations. Both the science and art of economic analysis need to recognize the limitations of the assumption that people always act out of self-interest and happily so. Indeed, as he rather heatedly put it in his “The Scope and Method of Economic Science”:

There is indeed a kind of political economy which flourishes in proud independence of facts; and undertakes to settle all practical problems of Governmental interference or private philanthropy by simple deduction from one or two general assumptions—of which the chief is the assumption of the universally beneficent and harmonious operation of self-interest well let alone. This kind of political economy is sometimes called ‘orthodox,’ though it has the characteristic unusual in orthodox doctrines of being repudiated by the majority of accredited teachers of the subject. But whether orthodox or not, I must be allowed to disclaim all connection with it; the more completely this survival of the a priori politics of the eighteenth century can be banished to the remotest available planet, the better it will be, in my opinion, for the progress of economic science. (Sidgwick, 1885: 171).

Sidgwick's position certainly reflected the more sophisticated, more historical, and even more socialistic views of the later J. S. Mill, who had been influenced by both the Romantic movement and Macaulay's withering criticisms of the apriorism of Benthamism—that is, of the Benthamite attempt to deduce the best form of law and government from the assumption of universal self-interest (Capaldi, 2004). Sidgwick followed Mill in thinking that political economy needed to pay attention to the complexity and historical variety of human motivation and character, as well as the condition of the working class. Perhaps characteristically, however, Sidgwick appreciated the paradox involved in the successful application of the historical method:

[I]t may be worth while to point out to the more aggressive ‘historicists' that the more the historian establishes the independence of his own study, by bringing into clear view the great differences between the economic conditions with which we are familiar and those of earlier ages, the more, prima facie, he tends to establish the corresponding independence of the economic science which, pursued with a view to practice, is primarily concerned to understand the present. (Sidgwick, 1901: 48).

This is not to applaud the increasing individualism and self-interested behavior of the modern world, which in fact rather worried Sidgwick. Again like Mill, he hoped that the future would bring a growth in human sympathy and moral motivation. He even hoped that individuals would come to be motivated to work by their concern to do their bit for the common good, to make their contribution to society; “ethical” socialism, though not necessarily governmental socialism, was for him a very attractive development.

But with respect to his contributions to the “science” of economics, there has long been considerable controversy over how successful Sidgwick was in going beyond Mill and appreciating the “marginalist revolution” going on around him. Deane argues that “the Principles owed more to the classical tradition of J. S. Mill than to what contemporaries were then calling the ‘new political economy’ of Jevons and Marshall” (Deane, 1987: 329). And Howey, in an influential work, insists that economists “must add something to and take something away from hedonism, as ordinarily construed, before it becomes marginal utility economics. Jevons and Gossen could make the transformation; Sidgwick never could” (Howey, 1965: 95). On the other side, however, Sidgwick's economic work has been praised by more than one Nobel Prize winner, including George Stigler. Stigler, after remarking on how the work of Cournot and Dupuit on monopoly and oligopoly “began to enter English economics, in particular though Edgeworth, Sidgwick, and Marshall,” confessed that he was “coming to admire Henry Sidgwick almost as much as the other two. His Principles … has two chapters (bk II, ch. IX and X) which are among the best in the history of microeconomics, dealing with the theories of human capital and noncompetitive behavior” (Stigler, 1982: 41).

For his part, Sidgwick at least claimed that he was part of the new movement, describing himself as a disciple of Jevons: “as Jevons had admirably explained, the variations in the relative market values of different articles express and correspond to variations in the comparative estimates formed by people in general, not of the total utilities of the amounts purchased of such articles, but of their final utilities; the utilities, that is, of the last portions purchased” (Sidgwick, 1901: 82). But he did allow that the differences with the older, Millian school had been exaggerated, and he continued, despite his considerable mathematical expertise, to do economics in a qualitative mode. Even so, he showed considerable acumen in setting out and conceptually clarifying the fundamental concepts of economics (wealth, value, labor, money, efficiency, etc.), in bringing out the difficulties involved in cross-cultural and trans-historical comparisons of wealth, and in analyzing the various cases of market failure, from monopoly to collective action problems to negative externalities. Indeed, his accounts of market failure and the possible remedies—the “art” of political economy—have received somewhat more recognition. Even Marshall praised this side of Sidgwick's work, calling the relevant section of the Principles the best thing of its kind “in any language” (Pigou, 1925). It is widely admitted that Marshall's hand-picked successor at Cambridge, A. C. Pigou, produced a form of welfare economics that largely recapitulated Sidgwick's contributions (Backhouse, 2004).

The form of Sidgwick's Principles of Political Economy, with its careful conceptual clarifications and distinction between normative and descriptive arguments, and its successive qualifications to individualistic, free market accounts of both, would prove to be characteristic, figuring in many of his essays and in such works as The Elements of Politics. As in the case of the Methods, the structure of these works has often made it difficult to see precisely where Sidgwick comes down on many issues. Typically, he begins with a robust statement of the “individualistic principle,” as, for example, in the Elements:

what one sane adult is legally compelled to render to others should be merely the negative service of non-interference, except so far as he has voluntarily undertaken to render positive services; provided that we include in the notion of non-interference the obligation of remedying or compensating for mischief intentionally or carelessly caused by his acts—or preventing mischief that would otherwise result from previous acts. This principle for determining the nature and limits of governmental interference is currently known as ‘Individualism’ … the requirement that one sane adult, apart from contract or claim to reparation, shall contribute positively by money or services to the support of others I shall call ‘socialistic.’ (Sidgwick, 1919: 42).

Then, typically, he goes on to explain how any such principle reflects various psychological and sociological presuppositions—for example, that sane adults are the best judges of their own interests—and that these are only approximate generalizations and subject to crucial limitations. The psychological assumption that “every one can best take care of his own interest” and the sociological one that “the common welfare is best attained by each pursuing exclusively his own welfare and that of his family in a thoroughly alert and intelligent manner”—both essential to the case for Laissez Faire—end up being very heavily qualified and subject to so many exceptions that it is scarcely evident what Sidgwick means when he calls individualism “in the main sound.” The list of qualifications covers everything from education, defense, child care, poor relief, public works, collective bargaining, environmental protections, and more. He stresses two cases that, he urges, perspicuously point up the problems with the individualistic principle: “the humane treatment of lunatics, and the prevention of cruelty to the inferior animals.” Such restrictions do not aim at securing the freedom of the lunatics or the animals, but are a “one-sided restraint of the freedom of action of men with a view to the greatest happiness of the aggregate of sentient beings.” An unfortunate—but alas, revealing—note adds that the “protection of inferior races of men will be considered in a subsequent chapter” (Sidgwick, 1919: 141-42).

These qualifications and limitations then invariably involve a discussion of the case for socialism and/or communism, a subject that Sidgwick addressed at length in many works. His main objection to socialistic interference was the familiar one that too much of it would lead to splendidly equal destitution, as the old line has it, and that for people as presently constituted economic incentives were needed to spur them to produce. But again, he hoped that “human nature” would change, growing more sympathetic and more amenable to ethical socialism, leaving the door open to the possibility of legitimating greater governmental interference with the market. Indeed, in his political theoretical work, he admittedly simply assumed the utilitarian criterion as the normative bottom line, rather than arguing for it against rational egoism. Unfortunately, as he also stressed in many different works, no one could confidently predict the direction of civilization. Although in his more historical works, notably The Development of European Polity, Sidgwick assembled evidence to suggest that a continued growth in federalism and large-scale state organizations was likely, it was a very carefully hedged conclusion and cast against a broad critique of the social sciences. Much as he admired the sweep and ambition of such pioneers of sociology as Spencer and Comte (whose emphasis on the “consensus of experts” was appropriated for his epistemological work), he regarded their “sciences” of the laws of human development as absurdly over-blown, yielding wildly different predictions about the future course of humanity. He sincerely hoped that a more cosmopolitan attitude would be the wave of the future, and that the growth of international law and cooperation would decrease the likelihood of war, but he could not convince himself that social science—with the partial exception of economics—was beyond its infancy when it came to predicting things to come (Bryce and Sidgwick, 1919, and Schultz, 2004).

Thus, although D. G. Ritchie famously charged that with Sidgwick utilitarianism had grown “tame and sleek” and lost its reforming zeal, others, notably F. A. Hayek, held that he had in effect paved the way for the “New Liberalism” and even Fabian socialism that soon overtook British politics, legitimating a far greater degree of state intervention (Schultz, 2004). Woodrow Wilson, the future president of the U. S., admired Sidgwick's Elements, but found the more abstract, analytic side of his work oddly “colorless” and in need of historical content. These debates continue (Collini, 1992, 2001, Kloppenberg, 1992, and Jones, 2000). At any rate, Sidgwick's work in politics and political theory, like his work in economics, does reveal how far he was from Benthamism; he even criticized at length the Austinian theory of sovereignty—which analyzed law in terms of authoritative command and habitual obedience—so dear to the Benthamites, in a critique that received high praise from the legal historian (and Sidgwick student) F. W. Maitland.

Still, it must be allowed that Sidgwick's political writings did not achieve the inspiring tone of J. S. Mill, and that, for all of his indebtedness to On Liberty, Considerations on Representative Government etc., he tended to highlight rather different concerns—concerns that often reflected his views on the dualism of practical reason. Like the later Mill, he harbored many suspicions about the wisdom of democracy and championed the need for a cultural “clerisy” or vanguard of educated opinion, often sounding a note not unlike that of Walter Lippmann in the twentieth century, stressing how an educated elite should benevolently shape public opinion. He much admired the work of his friend James Bryce, author of The American Commonwealth, which pointed up both the vitality and the dangers of the U.S. political system. But he devoted comparatively little effort to proclaiming the benefits of freedom of conscience and speech, was quite critical of Mill's schemes for proportional representation, and worried at length about how “to correct the erroneous and short-sighted views of self-interest, representing it as divergent from duty, which certainly appear to be widely prevalent in the most advanced societies, at least among irreligious persons.” In fact, for the government to supply teachers of this view might even be “indirectly individualistic in its aim, since to diffuse the conviction that it is every one's interest to do what is right would obviously be a valuable protection against mutual wrong,” though it would probably detract from the credibility of such teachers if they were salaried employees of the state (Sidgwick, 1919: 213-14). The more sinister aspects of Sidgwick's worries about what he termed the “lower classes” and the “lower races,” and the ways in which his work intertwined with a variety of late Victorian imperialistic projects, including those of his colleague Sir John Seeley and of his brother-in-law Arthur Balfour, have been brought out by Schultz (2004).

What Sidgwick's political writings so effectively highlight, however, is the crucial role of education in his practical and theoretical work. Insofar as his more academic research carried a practical political point, this concerned the need for expanding and improving educational opportunities for all. Thus, his (highly Millian) feminism was focused on higher education for women and the foundation of Newham College, and his many attempts to improve the curriculum of Cambridge University (by including Bentham, modern literature, physiology and other new subjects) were correlated with efforts to expand its audience and impact (Tullberg, [1975], 1998). And beyond formal educational institutions, Sidgwick was simply indefatigable in promoting and participating in discussion societies, ever aiming at the elusive “consensus of experts” that his epistemology called for. If, towards the end of his life, his participation in such vehicles as the “Ethical Societies” reflected his despair over the possibility of achieving such a consensus on the “deepest problems,” and instead involved an effort to set such problems aside in the hope of agreeing on the practical upshot of ethical questions (Sidgwick, 1898), this was scarcely his characteristic attitude. His support for John Addington Symonds, one of the English followers of Walt Whitman and a pioneer of gay studies, is also suggestive of how creative and wide-ranging his educational efforts could be.

Sidgwick's views on education and culture have not received nearly as much attention as his ethical work. But they merit careful consideration, given the way in which he resembled Mill and Dewey in being a true philosopher-educator. Judicious and balanced in his call for the inclusion of both older humanistic and modern scientific elements in any form of education worthy of the name, his vision could inspire the later educational reformism of both Russell and Dewey, along with that of many others. As he put it, in one of his most thoughtful essays, “The Pursuit of Culture”:

since the most essential function of the mind is to think and know, a man of cultivated mind must be essentially concerned for knowledge: but it is not knowledge merely that gives culture. A man may be learned and yet lack culture: for he may be a pedant, and the characteristic of a pedant is that he has knowledge without culture. So again, a load of facts retained in the memory, a mass of reasonings got up merely for examination, these are not, they do not give culture. It is the love of knowledge, the ardour of scientific curiosity, driving us continually to absorb new facts and ideas, to make them our own and fit them into the living and growing system of our thought; and the trained faculty of doing this, the alert and supple intelligence exercised and continually developed in doing this,—it is in these that culture essentially lies. (Sidgwick and Sidgwick, 1904: 121).


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