# Classical Logic

*First published Sat Sep 16, 2000; substantive revision Wed Jun 29, 2022*

Typically, a *logic* consists of a formal or informal language
together with a deductive system and/or a model-theoretic semantics.
The language has components that correspond to a part of a natural
language like English or Greek. The deductive system is to capture,
codify, or simply record *arguments* that are *valid*
for the given language, and the semantics is to capture, codify, or
record the meanings, or truth-conditions for at least part of the
language.

The following sections provide the basics of a typical logic,
sometimes called “classical elementary logic” or
“classical first-order logic”. Section 2 develops a formal
language, with a rigorous syntax and grammar. The formal language is a
recursively defined collection of strings on a fixed alphabet. As
such, it has no meaning, or perhaps better, the meaning of its
formulas is given by the deductive system and the semantics. Some of
the symbols have counterparts in ordinary language. We define an
*argument* to be a non-empty collection of sentences in the
formal language, one of which is designated to be the conclusion. The
other sentences (if any) in an argument are its premises. Section 3
sets up a deductive system for the language, in the spirit of natural
deduction. An argument is *derivable* if there is a deduction
from some or all of its premises to its conclusion. Section 4 provides
a model-theoretic semantics. An argument is *valid* if there is
no interpretation (in the semantics) in which its premises are all
true and its conclusion false. This reflects the longstanding view
that a valid argument is truth-preserving.

In Section 5, we turn to relationships between the deductive system
and the semantics, and in particular, the relationship between
derivability and validity. We show that an argument is derivable only
if it is valid. This pleasant feature, called *soundness*,
entails that no deduction takes one from true premises to a false
conclusion. Thus, deductions preserve truth. Then we establish a
converse, called *completeness*, that an argument is valid only
if it is derivable. This shows that the deductive system is rich
enough to provide a deduction for every valid argument. So there are
enough deductions: all and only valid arguments are derivable. We
briefly indicate other features of the logic, some of which are
corollaries to soundness and completeness.

The final section, Section 6, is devoted to the a brief examination of the philosophical position that classical logic is “the one right logic”.

- 1. Introduction
- 2. Language
- 3. Deduction
- 4. Semantics
- 5. Meta-theory
- 6. The One Right Logic?
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Introduction

Today, logic is a branch of mathematics and a branch of philosophy. In
most large universities, both departments offer courses in logic, and
there is usually a lot of overlap between them. Formal languages,
deductive systems, and model-theoretic semantics are mathematical
objects and, as such, the logician is interested in their mathematical
properties and relations. Soundness, completeness, and most of the
other results reported below are typical examples. Philosophically,
logic is at least closely related to the study of *correct
reasoning*. Reasoning is an epistemic, mental activity. So logic
is at least closely allied with epistemology. Logic is also a central
branch of computer science, due, in part, to interesting computational
relations in logical systems, and, in part, to the close connection
between formal deductive argumentation and reasoning (see the entries
on
recursive functions,
computability and complexity, and
philosophy of computer science).

This raises questions concerning the philosophical relevance of the various mathematical aspects of logic. How do deducibility and validity, as properties of formal languages – sets of strings on a fixed alphabet – relate to correct reasoning? What do the mathematical results reported below have to do with the original philosophical issues concerning valid reasoning? This is an instance of the philosophical problem of explaining how mathematics applies to non-mathematical reality.

Typically, ordinary deductive reasoning takes place in a natural language, or perhaps a natural language augmented with some mathematical symbols. So our question begins with the relationship between a natural language and a formal language. Without attempting to be comprehensive, it may help to sketch several options on this matter.

One view is that the formal languages accurately exhibit actual
features of certain fragments of a natural language. Some philosophers
claim that declarative sentences of natural language have underlying
*logical forms* and that these forms are displayed by formulas
of a formal language. Other writers hold that (successful) declarative
sentences express *propositions*; and formulas of formal
languages somehow display the forms of these propositions. On views
like this, the components of a logic provide the underlying deep
structure of correct reasoning. A chunk of reasoning in natural
language is correct if the forms underlying the sentences constitute a
valid or deducible argument. See for example, Montague [1974],
Davidson [1984], Lycan [1984] (and the entry on
logical form).

Another view, held at least in part by Gottlob Frege and Wilhelm
Leibniz, is that because natural languages are fraught with vagueness
and ambiguity, they should be *replaced* by formal languages. A
similar view, held by W. V. O. Quine (e.g., [1960], [1986]), is that a
natural language should be *regimented*, cleaned up for serious
scientific and metaphysical work. One desideratum of the enterprise is
that the logical structures in the regimented language should be
transparent. It should be easy to “read off” the logical
properties of each sentence. A regimented language is similar to a
formal language regarding, for example, the explicitly presented rigor
of its syntax and its truth conditions.

On a view like this, deducibility and validity represent
*idealizations* of correct reasoning in natural language. A
chunk of reasoning is correct to the extent that it corresponds to, or
can be regimented by, a valid or deducible argument in a formal
language.

When mathematicians and many philosophers engage in deductive
reasoning, they occasionally invoke formulas in a formal language to
help disambiguate, or otherwise clarify what they mean. In other
words, sometimes formulas in a formal language are *used* in
ordinary reasoning. This suggests that one might think of a formal
language as an *addendum* to a natural language. Then our
present question concerns the relationship between this addendum and
the original language. What do deducibility and validity, as sharply
defined on the addendum, tell us about correct deductive reasoning in
general?

Another view is that a formal language is a *mathematical
model* of a natural language in roughly the same sense as, say, a
collection of point masses is a model of a system of physical objects,
and the Bohr construction is a model of an atom. In other words, a
formal language displays certain features of natural languages, or
idealizations thereof, while ignoring or simplifying other features.
The purpose of mathematical models is to shed light on what they are
models of, without claiming that the model is accurate in all respects
or that the model should replace what it is a model of. On a view like
this, deducibility and validity represent mathematical models of
(perhaps different aspects of) correct reasoning in natural languages.
Correct chunks of deductive reasoning correspond, more or less, to
valid or deducible arguments; incorrect chunks of reasoning roughly
correspond to invalid or non-deducible arguments. See, for example,
Corcoran [1973], Shapiro [1998], and Cook [2002].

There is no need to adjudicate this matter here. Perhaps the truth lies in a combination of the above options, or maybe some other option is the correct, or most illuminating one. We raise the matter only to lend some philosophical perspective to the formal treatment that follows.

## 2. Language

Here we develop the basics of a formal language, or to be precise, a class of formal languages. Again, a formal language is a recursively defined set of strings on a fixed alphabet. Some aspects of the formal languages correspond to, or have counterparts in, natural languages like English. Technically, this “counterpart relation” is not part of the formal development, but we will mention it from time to time, to motivate some of the features and results.

### 2.1 Building blocks

We begin with analogues of *singular terms*, linguistic items
whose function is to denote a person or object. We call these
*terms*. We assume a stock of *individual constants*.
These are lower-case letters, near the beginning of the Roman
alphabet, with or without numerical subscripts:

We envisage a potential infinity of individual constants. In the present system each constant is a single character, and so individual constants do not have an internal syntax. Thus we have an infinite alphabet. This could be avoided by taking a constant like \(d_{22}\), for example, to consist of three characters, a lowercase “\(d\)” followed by a pair of subscript “2”s.

We also assume a stock of *individual variables*. These are
lower-case letters, near the end of the alphabet, with or without
numerical subscripts:

In ordinary mathematical reasoning, there are two functions terms need to fulfill. We need to be able to denote specific, but unspecified (or arbitrary) objects, and sometimes we need to express generality. In our system, we use some constants in the role of unspecified reference and variables to express generality. Both uses are recapitulated in the formal treatment below. Some logicians employ different symbols for unspecified objects (sometimes called “individual parameters”) and variables used to express generality.

Constants and variables are the only terms in our formal language, so
all of our terms are simple, corresponding to proper names and some
uses of pronouns. We call a term closed if it is not a variable. In
general, we use \(v\) to represent variables, and \(t\) to represent a
closed term, an individual constant. Some authors also introduce
*function letters*, which allow complex terms corresponding to:
“\(7+4\)” and “the wife of Bill Clinton”, or
complex terms containing variables, like “the father of
\(x\)” and “\(x/y\)”. Logic books aimed at
mathematicians are likely to contain function letters, probably due to
the centrality of functions in mathematical discourse. Books aimed at
a more general audience (or at philosophy students), may leave out
function letters, since it simplifies the syntax and theory. We follow
the latter route here. This is an instance of a general tradeoff
between presenting a system with greater expressive resources, at the
cost of making its formal treatment more complex.

For each natural number \(n\), we introduce a stock of \(n\)-place
*predicate letters*. These are upper-case letters at the
beginning or middle of the alphabet. A superscript indicates the
number of places, and there may or may not be a subscript. For
example,

are three-place predicate letters. We often omit the superscript, when no confusion will result. We also add a special two-place predicate symbol “\(=\)” for identity.

Zero-place predicate letters are sometimes called “sentence letters”. They correspond to free-standing sentences whose internal structure does not matter. One-place predicate letters, called “monadic predicate letters”, correspond to linguistic items denoting properties, like “being a man”, “being red”, or “being a prime number”. Two-place predicate letters, called “binary predicate letters”, correspond to linguistic items denoting binary relations, like “is a parent of” or “is greater than”. Three-place predicate letters correspond to three-place relations, like “lies on a straight line between”. And so on.

The *non-logical terminology* of the language consists of its
individual constants and predicate letters. The symbol
“\(=\)”, for identity, is not a non-logical symbol. In
taking identity to be logical, we provide explicit treatment for it in
the deductive system and in the model-theoretic semantics. Most
authors do the same, but there is some controversy over the issue
(Quine [1986, Chapter 5]). If \(K\) is a set of constants and
predicate letters, then we give the fundamentals of a language
\(\LKe\) built on this set of non-logical terminology. It may be
called the *first-order language with identity* on \(K\). A
similar language that lacks the symbol for identity (or which takes
identity to be non-logical) may be called \(\mathcal{L}1K\), the
*first-order language without identity* on \(K\).

### 2.2 Atomic formulas

If \(V\) is an \(n\)-place predicate letter in \(K\), and \(t_1,
\ldots,t_n\) are terms of \(K\), then \(Vt_1 \ldots t_n\) is an
*atomic formula* of \(\LKe\). Notice that the terms \(t_1,
\ldots,t_n\) need not be distinct. Examples of atomic formulas
include:

The last one is an analogue of a statement that a certain relation \((A)\) holds between three objects \((a, b, c)\). If \(t_1\) and \(t_2\) are terms, then \(t_1 =t_2\) is also an atomic formula of \(\LKe\). It corresponds to an assertion that \(t_1\) is identical to \(t_2\).

If an atomic formula has no variables, then it is called an *atomic
sentence*. If it does have variables, it is called *open*.
In the above list of examples, the first and second are open; the rest
are sentences.

### 2.3 Compound formulas

We now introduce the final items of the lexicon:

\[ \neg, \amp, \vee, \rightarrow, \forall, \exists, (, ) \]
We give a recursive definition of a *formula* of \(\LKe\):

- All atomic formulas of \(\LKe\) are formulas of \(\LKe\).
- If \(\theta\) is a formula of \(\LKe\), then so is \(\neg \theta\).

A formula corresponding to \(\neg \theta\) thus says that it is not the case that \(\theta\). The symbol “\(\neg\)” is called “negation”, and is a unary connective.

- If \(\theta\) and \(\psi\) are formulas of \(\LKe\), then so is \((\theta \amp \psi)\).

The ampersand “\(\amp\)” corresponds to the English “and” (when “and” is used to connect sentences). So \((\theta \amp \psi)\) can be read “\(\theta\) and \(\psi\)”. The formula \((\theta \amp \psi)\) is called the “conjunction” of \(\theta\) and \(\psi\).

- If \(\theta\) and \(\psi\) are formulas of \(\LKe\), then so is \((\theta \vee \psi)\).

The symbol “\(\vee\)” corresponds to “either … or … or both”, so \((\theta \vee \psi)\) can be read “\(\theta\) or \(\psi\)”. The formula \((\theta \vee \psi)\) is called the “disjunction” of \(\theta\) and \(\psi\).

- If \(\theta\) and \(\psi\) are formulas of \(\LKe\), then so is \((\theta \rightarrow \psi)\).

The arrow “\(\rightarrow\)” roughly corresponds to “if … then … ”, so \((\theta \rightarrow \psi)\) can be read “if \(\theta\) then \(\psi\)” or “\(\theta\) only if \(\psi\)”.

The symbols “\(\amp\)”, “\(\vee\)”, and “\(\rightarrow\)” are called “binary connectives”, since they serve to “connect” two formulas into one. Some authors introduce \((\theta \leftrightarrow \psi)\) as an abbreviation of \(((\theta \rightarrow \psi) \amp(\psi \rightarrow \theta))\). The symbol “\(\leftrightarrow\)” is an analogue of the locution “if and only if”.

- If \(\theta\) is a formula of \(\LKe\) and \(v\) is a variable, then \(\forall v \theta\) is a formula of \(\LKe\).

The symbol “\(\forall\)” is called a *universal
quantifier*, and is an analogue of “for all”; so
\(\forall v\theta\) can be read “for all \(v,
\theta\)”.

- If \(\theta\) is a formula of \(\LKe\) and \(v\) is a variable, then \(\exists v \theta\) is a formula of \(\LKe\).

The symbol “\(\exists\)” is called an *existential
quantifier*, and is an analogue of “there exists” or
“there is”; so \(\exists v \theta\) can be read
“there is a \(v\) such that \(\theta\)”.

- That’s all folks. That is, all formulas are constructed in accordance with rules (1)–(7).

Clause (8) allows us to do inductions on the complexity of formulas. If a certain property holds of the atomic formulas and is closed under the operations presented in clauses (2)–(7), then the property holds of all formulas. Here is a simple example:

**Theorem 1**. Every formula of \(\LKe\) has the same
number of left and right parentheses. Moreover, each left parenthesis
corresponds to a unique right parenthesis, which occurs to the right
of the left parenthesis. Similarly, each right parenthesis corresponds
to a unique left parenthesis, which occurs to the left of the given
right parenthesis. If a parenthesis occurs between a matched pair of
parentheses, then its mate also occurs within that matched pair. In
other words, parentheses that occur within a matched pair are
themselves matched.

**Proof**: By clause (8), every formula is built up from
the atomic formulas using clauses (2)–(7). The atomic formulas
have no parentheses. Parentheses are introduced only in clauses
(3)–(5), and each time they are introduced as a matched set. So
at any stage in the construction of a formula, the parentheses are
paired off.

We next define the notion of an occurrence of a variable being
*free* or *bound* in a formula. A variable that
immediately follows a quantifier (as in “\(\forall x\)”
and “\(\exists y\)”) is neither free nor bound. We do not
even think of those as occurrences of the variable. All variables that
occur in an atomic formula are free. If a variable occurs free (or
bound) in \(\theta\) or in \(\psi\), then that same occurrence is free
(or bound) in \(\neg \theta, (\theta \amp \psi), (\theta \vee \psi)\),
and \((\theta \rightarrow \psi)\). That is, the (unary and binary)
connectives do not change the status of variables that occur in them.
All occurrences of the variable \(v\) in \(\theta\) are bound in
\(\forall v \theta\) and \(\exists v \theta\). Any *free*
occurrences of \(v\) in \(\theta\) are bound by the initial
quantifier. All other variables that occur in \(\theta\) are free or
bound in \(\forall v \theta\) and \(\exists v \theta\), as they are in
\(\theta\).

For example, in the formula \((\forall\)x(*Axy* \(\vee Bx) \amp
Bx)\), the occurrences of “\(x\)” in *Axy* and in
the first \(Bx\) are bound by the quantifier. The occurrence of
“\(y\)” and last occurrence of “\(x\)” are
free. In \(\forall x(Ax \rightarrow \exists\)*xBx*), the
“\(x\)” in \(Ax\) is bound by the initial universal
quantifier, while the other occurrence of \(x\) is bound by the
existential quantifier. The above syntax allows this
“double-binding”. Although it does not create any
ambiguities (see below), we will avoid such formulas, as a matter of
taste and clarity.

The syntax also allows so-called vacuous binding, as in \(\forall\)x\(Bc\). These, too, will be avoided in what follows. Some treatments of logic rule out vacuous binding and double binding as a matter of syntax. That simplifies some of the treatments below, and complicates others.

Free variables correspond to place-holders, while bound variables are
used to express generality. If a formula has no free variables, then
it is called a *sentence*. If a formula has free variables, it
is called *open*.

### 2.4 Features of the syntax

Before turning to the deductive system and semantics, we mention a few features of the language, as developed so far. This helps draw the contrast between formal languages and natural languages like English.

We assume at the outset that all of the categories are disjoint. For example, no connective is also a quantifier or a variable, and the non-logical terms are not also parentheses or connectives. Also, the items within each category are distinct. For example, the sign for disjunction does not do double-duty as the negation symbol, and perhaps more significantly, no two-place predicate is also a one-place predicate.

One difference between natural languages like English and formal languages like \(\LKe\) is that the latter are not supposed to have any ambiguities. The policy that the different categories of symbols do not overlap, and that no symbol does double-duty, avoids the kind of ambiguity, sometimes called “equivocation”, that occurs when a single word has two meanings: “I’ll meet you at the bank.” But there are other kinds of ambiguity. Consider the English sentence:

John is married, and Mary is single, or Joe is crazy.

It can mean that John is married and either Mary is single or Joe is
crazy, or else it can mean that either both John is married and Mary
is single, or else Joe is crazy. An ambiguity like this, due to
different ways to parse the same sentence, is sometimes called an
“amphiboly”. If our formal language did not have the
parentheses in it, it would have amphibolies. For example, there would
be a “formula” \(A \amp B \vee\)* C*. Is this
supposed to be \(((A \amp B) \vee C)\), or is it \((A \amp(B \vee
C))\)? The parentheses resolve what would be an amphiboly.

Can we be sure that there are no other amphibolies in our language? That is, can we be sure that each formula of \(\LKe\) can be put together in only one way? Our next task is to answer this question.

Let us temporarily use the term “unary marker” for the negation symbol \((\neg)\) or a quantifier followed by a variable (e.g., \(\forall x, \exists z)\).

**Lemma 2**. Each formula consists of a string of zero or
more unary markers followed by either an atomic formula or a formula
produced using a binary connective, via one of clauses
(3)–(5).

**Proof**: We proceed by induction on the complexity of
the formula or, in other words, on the number of formation rules that
are applied. The Lemma clearly holds for atomic formulas. Let \(n\) be
a natural number, and suppose that the Lemma holds for any formula
constructed from \(n\) or fewer instances of clauses (2)–(7).
Let \(\theta\) be a formula constructed from \(n+1\) instances. The
Lemma holds if the last clause used to construct \(\theta\) was either
(3), (4), or (5). If the last clause used to construct \(\theta\) was
(2), then \(\theta\) is \(\neg \psi\). Since \(\psi\) was constructed
with \(n\) instances of the rule, the Lemma holds for \(\psi\) (by the
induction hypothesis), and so it holds for \(\theta\). Similar
reasoning shows the Lemma to hold for \(\theta\) if the last clause
was (6) or (7). By clause (8), this exhausts the cases, and so the
Lemma holds for \(\theta\), by induction.

**Lemma 3**. If a formula \(\theta\) contains a left
parenthesis, then it ends with a right parenthesis, which matches the
leftmost left parenthesis in \(\theta\).

**Proof**: Here we also proceed by induction on the
number of instances of (2)–(7) used to construct the formula.
Clearly, the Lemma holds for atomic formulas, since they have no
parentheses. Suppose, then, that the Lemma holds for formulas
constructed with \(n\) or fewer instances of (2)–(7), and let
\(\theta\) be constructed with \(n+1\) instances. If the last clause
applied was (3)–(5), then the Lemma holds since \(\theta\)
itself begins with a left parenthesis and ends with the matching right
parenthesis. If the last clause applied was (2), then \(\theta\) is
\(\neg \psi\), and the induction hypothesis applies to \(\psi\).
Similarly, if the last clause applied was (6) or (7), then \(\theta\)
consists of a quantifier, a variable, and a formula to which we can
apply the induction hypothesis. It follows that the Lemma holds for
\(\theta\).

**Lemma 4**. Each formula contains at least one atomic
formula.

The proof proceeds by induction on the number of instances of (2)–(7) used to construct the formula, and we leave it as an exercise.

**Theorem 5**. Let \(\alpha, \beta\) be nonempty
sequences of characters on our alphabet, such that \(\alpha \beta\)
(i.e \(\alpha\) followed by \(\beta)\) is a formula. Then \(\alpha\)
is *not* a formula.

**Proof**: By Theorem 1 and Lemma 3, if \(\alpha\)
contains a left parenthesis, then the right parenthesis that matches
the leftmost left parenthesis in \(\alpha \beta\) comes at the end of
\(\alpha \beta\), and so the matching right parenthesis is in
\(\beta\). So, \(\alpha\) has more left parentheses than right
parentheses. By Theorem \(1, \alpha\) is not a formula. So now suppose
that \(\alpha\) does not contain any left parentheses. By Lemma \(2,
\alpha \beta\) consists of a string of zero or more unary markers
followed by either an atomic formula or a formula produced using a
binary connective, via one of clauses (3)–(5). If the latter
formula was produced via one of clauses (3)–(5), then it begins
with a left parenthesis. Since \(\alpha\) does not contain any
parentheses, it must be a string of unary markers. But then \(\alpha\)
does not contain any atomic formulas, and so by Lemma \(4, \alpha\) is
not a formula. The only case left is where \(\alpha \beta\) consists
of a string of unary markers followed by an atomic formula, either in
the form \(t_1 =t_2\) or \(Pt_1 \ldots t_n\). Again, if \(\alpha\)
just consisted of unary markers, it would not be a formula, and so
\(\alpha\) must consist of the unary markers that start \(\alpha
\beta\), followed by either \(t_1\) by itself, \(t_1 =\) by itself, or
the predicate letter \(P\), and perhaps some (but not all) of the
terms \(t_1, \ldots,t_n\). In the first two cases, \(\alpha\) does not
contain an atomic formula, by the policy that the categories do not
overlap. Since \(P\) is an \(n\)-place predicate letter, by the policy
that the predicate letters are distinct, \(P\) is not an \(m\)-place
predicate letter for any \(m \ne n\). So the part of \(\alpha\) that
consists of \(P\) followed by the terms is not an atomic formula. In
all of these cases, then, \(\alpha\) does not contain an atomic
formula. By Lemma \(4, \alpha\) is not a formula.

We are finally in position to show that there is no amphiboly in our language.

**Theorem 6**. Let \(\theta\) be any formula of \(\LKe\).
If \(\theta\) is not atomic, then there is one and only one among
(2)–(7) that was the last clause applied to construct
\(\theta\). That is, \(\theta\) could not be produced by two different
clauses. Moreover, no formula produced by clauses (2)–(7) is
atomic.

**Proof**: By Clause (8), either \(\theta\) is atomic or
it was produced by one of clauses (2)–(7). Thus, the first
symbol in \(\theta\) must be either a predicate letter, a term, a
unary marker, or a left parenthesis. If the first symbol in \(\theta\)
is a predicate letter or term, then \(\theta\) is atomic. In this
case, \(\theta\) was not produced by any of (2)–(7), since all
such formulas begin with something other than a predicate letter or
term. If the first symbol in \(\theta\) is a negation sign
“\(\neg\)”, then was \(\theta\) produced by clause (2),
and not by any other clause (since the other clauses produce formulas
that begin with either a quantifier or a left parenthesis). Similarly,
if \(\theta\) begins with a universal quantifier, then it was produced
by clause (6), and not by any other clause, and if \(\theta\) begins
with an existential quantifier, then it was produced by clause (7),
and not by any other clause. The only case left is where \(\theta\)
begins with a left parenthesis. In this case, it must have been
produced by one of (3)–(5), and not by any other clause. We only
need to rule out the possibility that \(\theta\) was produced by more
than one of (3)–(5). To take an example, suppose that \(\theta\)
was produced by (3) and (4). Then \(\theta\) is \((\psi_1 \amp
\psi_2)\) and \(\theta\) is also \((\psi_3 \vee \psi_4)\), where
\(\psi_1, \psi_2, \psi_3\), and \(\psi_4\) are themselves formulas.
That is, \((\psi_1 \amp \psi_2)\) is the very same formula as
\((\psi_3 \vee \psi_4)\). By Theorem \(5, \psi_1\) cannot be a proper
part of \(\psi_3\), nor can \(\psi_3\) be a proper part of \(\psi_1\).
So \(\psi_1\) must be the same formula as \(\psi_3\). But then
“\(\amp\)” must be the same symbol as
“\(\vee\)”, and this contradicts the policy that all of
the symbols are different. So \(\theta\) was not produced by both
Clause (3) and Clause (4). Similar reasoning takes care of the other
combinations.

This result is sometimes called “unique readability”. It
shows that each formula is produced from the atomic formulas via the
various clauses in exactly one way. If \(\theta\) was produced by
clause (2), then its *main connective* is the initial
“\(\neg\)”. If \(\theta\) was produced by clauses (3),
(4), or (5), then its *main connective* is the introduced
“\(\amp\)”, “\(\vee\)”, or
“\(\rightarrow\)”, respectively. If \(\theta\) was
produced by clauses (6) or (7), then its *main connective* is
the initial quantifier. We apologize for the tedious details. We
included them to indicate the level of precision and rigor for the
syntax.

## 3. Deduction

We now introduce a *deductive system*, \(D\), for our
languages. As above, we define an *argument* to be a non-empty
collection of sentences in the formal language, one of which is
designated to be the *conclusion*. If there are any other
sentences in the argument, they are its
*premises*.^{[1]}
By convention, we use “\(\Gamma\)”,
“\(\Gamma'\)”, “\(\Gamma_1\)”, etc, to range
over sets of sentences, and we use the letters “\(\phi\)”,
“\(\psi\)”, “\(\theta\)”, uppercase or
lowercase, with or without subscripts, to range over single sentences.
We write “\(\Gamma, \Gamma'\)” for the union of \(\Gamma\)
and \(\Gamma'\), and “\(\Gamma, \phi\)” for the union of
\(\Gamma\) with \(\{\phi\}\).

We write an argument in the form \(\langle \Gamma, \phi \rangle\), where \(\Gamma\) is a set of sentences, the premises, and \(\phi\) is a single sentence, the conclusion. Remember that \(\Gamma\) may be empty. We write \(\Gamma \vdash \phi\) to indicate that \(\phi\) is deducible from \(\Gamma\), or, in other words, that the argument \(\langle \Gamma, \phi \rangle\) is deducible in \(D\). We may write \(\Gamma \vdash_D \phi\) to emphasize the deductive system \(D\). We write \(\vdash \phi\) or \(\vdash_D \phi\) to indicate that \(\phi\) can be deduced (in \(D)\) from the empty set of premises.

The rules in \(D\) are chosen to match logical relations concerning the English analogues of the logical terminology in the language. Again, we define the deducibility relation by recursion. We start with a rule of assumptions:

- (As)
- If \(\phi\) is a member of \(\Gamma\), then \(\Gamma \vdash \phi\).

We thus have that \(\{\phi \}\vdash \phi\); each premise follows from itself. We next present two clauses for each connective and quantifier. The clauses indicate how to “introduce” and “eliminate” sentences in which each symbol is the main connective.

First, recall that “\(\amp\)” is an analogue of the English connective “and”. Intuitively, one can deduce a sentence in the form \((\theta \amp \psi)\) if one has deduced \(\theta\) and one has deduced \(\psi\). Conversely, one can deduce \(\theta\) from \((\theta \amp \psi)\) and one can deduce \(\psi\) from \((\theta \amp \psi)\):

- \((\amp \mathrm{I})\)
- If \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \theta\) and \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \psi\), then \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash(\theta \amp \psi)\).
- \((\amp \mathrm{E})\)
- If \(\Gamma \vdash(\theta \amp \psi)\) then \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\); and if \(\Gamma \vdash(\theta \amp \psi)\) then \(\Gamma \vdash \psi\).

The name “&I” stands for “&-introduction”; “&E” stands for “&-elimination”.

Since, the symbol “\(\vee\)” corresponds to the English “or”, \((\theta \vee \psi)\) should be deducible from \(\theta\), and \((\theta \vee \psi)\) should also be deducible from \(\psi\):

- \((\vee \mathrm{I})\)
- If \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\) then \(\Gamma \vdash(\theta \vee \psi)\); if \(\Gamma \vdash \psi\) then \(\Gamma \vdash(\theta \vee \psi)\).

The elimination rule is a bit more complicated. Suppose that “\(\theta\) or \(\psi\)” is true. Suppose also that \(\phi\) follows from \(\theta\) and that \(\phi\) follows from \(\psi\). One can reason that if \(\theta\) is true, then \(\phi\) is true. If instead \(\psi\) is true, we still have that \(\phi\) is true. So either way, \(\phi\) must be true.

- \((\vee \mathrm{E})\)
- If \(\Gamma_1 \vdash(\theta \vee \psi), \Gamma_2, \theta \vdash \phi\) and \(\Gamma_3, \psi \vdash \phi\), then \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2, \Gamma_3 \vdash \phi\).

For the next clauses, recall that the symbol, “\(\rightarrow\)”, is an analogue of the English “if … then … ” construction. If one knows, or assumes \((\theta \rightarrow \psi)\) and also knows, or assumes \(\theta\), then one can conclude \(\psi\). Conversely, if one deduces \(\psi\) from an assumption \(\theta\), then one can conclude that \((\theta \rightarrow \psi)\).

- \(({\rightarrow}\mathrm{I})\)
- If \(\Gamma, \theta \vdash \psi\), then \(\Gamma \vdash(\theta \rightarrow \psi)\).
- \(({\rightarrow}\mathrm{E})\)
- If \(\Gamma_1 \vdash(\theta \rightarrow \psi)\) and \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \theta\), then \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \psi\).

This elimination rule is sometimes called “modus ponens”. In some logic texts, the introduction rule is proved as a “deduction theorem”.

Our next clauses are for the negation sign, “\(\neg\)”.
The underlying idea is that a sentence \(\psi\) is inconsistent with
its negation \(\neg \psi\). They cannot both be true. We call a pair
of sentences \(\psi, \neg \psi\) *contradictory opposites*. If
one can deduce such a pair from an assumption \(\theta\), then one can
conclude that \(\theta\) is false, or, in other words, one can
conclude \(\neg \theta\).

- \((\neg \mathrm{I})\)
- If \(\Gamma_1, \theta \vdash \psi\) and \(\Gamma_2, \theta \vdash \neg \psi\), then \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \neg \theta\).

By (As), we have that \(\{A,\neg A\}\vdash A\) and
\(\{\)*A,\(\neg\)A*\(\}\vdash \neg A\). So by \(\neg\)I we have
that \(\{A\}\vdash \neg \neg A\). However, we do not have the converse
yet. Intuitively, \(\neg \neg \theta\) corresponds to “it is not
the case that it is not the case that” . One might think that
this last is equivalent to \(\theta\), and we have a rule to that
effect:

- (DNE)
- If \(\Gamma \vdash \neg \neg \theta\), then \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\).

The name DNE stands for “double-negation elimination”.
There is some controversy over this inference. It is rejected by
philosophers and mathematicians who do not hold that each meaningful
sentence is either true or not true. *Intuitionistic logic*
does not sanction the inference in question (see, for example Dummett
[2000], or the entry on
intuitionistic logic,
or
history of intuitionistic logic),
but, again, classical logic does.

To illustrate the parts of the deductive system \(D\) presented thus far, we show that \(\vdash(A \vee \neg A)\):

- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A), A\}\vdash \neg(A \vee \neg A)\), by (As)
- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A), A\}\vdash A\), by (As).
- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A), A\}\vdash(A \vee \neg A)\), by \((\vee\)I), from (ii).
- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A)\}\vdash \neg A\), by \((\neg\)I), from (i) and (iii).
- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A), \neg A\}\vdash \neg(A \vee \neg A)\), by (As)
- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A), \neg A\}\vdash \neg A\), by (As)
- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A), \neg A\}\vdash(A \vee \neg A)\), by \((\vee\)I), from (vi).
- \(\{\neg(A \vee \neg A)\}\vdash \neg \neg A\), by \((\neg\)I), from (v) and (vii).
- \(\vdash \neg \neg(A \vee \neg A)\), by \((\neg\)I), from (iv) and (viii).
- \(\vdash(A \vee \neg A)\), by (DNE), from (ix).

The principle \((\theta \vee \neg \theta)\) is sometimes called the
*law of excluded middle*. It is not valid in intuitionistic
logic.

Let \(\theta, \neg \theta\) be a pair of contradictory opposites, and let \(\psi\) be any sentence at all. By (As) we have \(\{\theta, \neg \theta, \neg \psi \}\vdash \theta\) and \(\{\theta, \neg \theta, \neg \psi \}\vdash \neg \theta\). So by \((\neg\)I), \(\{\theta, \neg \theta \}\vdash \neg \neg \psi\). So, by (DNE) we have \(\{\theta , \neg \theta \}\vdash \psi\) . That is, anything at all follows from a pair of contradictory opposites. Some logicians introduce a rule to codify a similar inference:

If \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \theta\) and \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \neg \theta\), then for any sentence \(\psi, \Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \psi\)

The inference is sometimes called *ex falso quodlibet* or, more
colorfully, *explosion*. Some call it
“\(\neg\)-elimination”, but perhaps this stretches the
notion of “elimination” a bit. We do not officially
include *ex falso quodlibet* as a separate rule in \(D\), but
as will be shown below (Theorem 10), each instance of it is derivable
in our system \(D\).

Some logicians object to *ex falso quodlibet*, on the ground
that the sentence \(\psi\) may be *irrelevant* to any of the
premises in \(\Gamma\). Suppose, for example, that one starts with
some premises \(\Gamma\) about human nature and facts about certain
people, and then deduces both the sentence “Clinton had
extra-marital sexual relations” and “Clinton did not have
extra-marital sexual relations”. One can perhaps conclude that
there is something wrong with the premises \(\Gamma\). But should we
be allowed to then deduce *anything at all* from \(\Gamma\)?
Should we be allowed to deduce “The economy is sound”?

A small minority of logicians, called *dialetheists*, hold that
some contradictions are actually true. For them, *ex falso
quodlibet* is not truth-preserving.

Deductive systems that demur from *ex falso quodlibet* are
called *paraconsistent*. Most relevant logics are
paraconsistent. See the entries on
relevance logic,
paraconsistent logic, and
dialetheism.
Or see Anderson and Belnap [1975], Anderson, Belnap, and Dunn [1992],
and Tennant [1997] for fuller overviews of relevant logic; and Priest
[2006a,b], for dialetheism. Deep philosophical issues concerning the
nature of
logical consequence
are involved. Far be it for an article in a philosophy encyclopedia
to avoid philosophical issues, but space considerations preclude a
fuller treatment of this issue here. Suffice it to note that the
inference *ex falso quodlibet* is sanctioned in systems of
*classical logic*, the subject of this article. It is essential
to establishing the balance between the deductive system and the
semantics (see §5 below).

The next pieces of \(D\) are the clauses for the quantifiers. Let
\(\theta\) be a formula, \(v\) a variable, and \(t\) a term (i.e., a
variable or a constant). Then define \(\theta(v|t)\) to be the result
of substituting \(t\) for each *free* occurrence of \(v\) in
\(\theta\). So, if \(\theta\) is \((Qx \amp \exists\)*xPxy*),
then \(\theta(x|c)\) is \((Qc \amp \exists\)*xPxy*). The last
occurrence of \(x\) is not free.

A sentence in the form \(\forall v \theta\) is an analogue of the English “for every \(v, \theta\) holds”. So one should be able to infer \(\theta(v|t)\) from \(\forall v \theta\) for any closed term \(t\). Recall that the only closed terms in our system are constants.

- \((\forall \mathrm{E})\)
- If \(\Gamma \vdash \forall v \theta\), then \(\Gamma \vdash \theta(v|t)\), for any closed term \(t\).

The idea here is that if \(\forall v \theta\) is true, then \(\theta\) should hold of \(t\), no matter what \(t\) is.

The introduction clause for the universal quantifier is a bit more complicated. Suppose that a sentence \(\theta\) contains a closed term \(t\), and that \(\theta\) has been deduced from a set of premises \(\Gamma\). If the closed term \(t\) does not occur in any member of \(\Gamma\), then \(\theta\) will hold no matter which object \(t\) may denote. That is, \(\forall v \theta\) follows.

- \((\forall \mathrm{I})\)
- For any closed term \(t\), if \(\Gamma\vdash\theta (v|t)\), then \(\Gamma\vdash\forall v\theta\) provided that \(t\) is not in \(\Gamma\) or \(\theta\).

This rule \((\forall \mathbf{I})\) corresponds to a common inference
in mathematics. Suppose that a mathematician says “let \(n\) be
a natural number” and goes on to show that \(n\) has a certain
property \(P\), without assuming anything about \(n\) (except that it
is a natural number). She then reminds the reader that \(n\) is
“arbitrary”, and concludes that \(P\) holds for
*all* natural numbers. The condition that the term \(t\) not
occur in any premise is what guarantees that it is indeed
“arbitrary”. It could be any object, and so anything we
conclude about it holds for all objects.

The existential quantifier is an analogue of the English expression “there exists”, or perhaps just “there is”. If we have established (or assumed) that a given object \(t\) has a given property, then it follows that there is something that has that property.

- \((\exists \mathrm{I})\)
- For any closed term \(t\), if \(\Gamma\vdash\theta (v|t)\) then \(\Gamma\vdash\exists v\theta\).

The elimination rule for \(\exists\) is not quite as simple:

- \((\exists \mathrm{E})\)
- For any closed term \(t\), if \(\Gamma_1\vdash\exists v\theta\) and \(\Gamma_2, \theta(v|t)\vdash\phi\), then \(\Gamma_1 ,\Gamma_2\vdash\phi\), provided that \(t\) does not occur in \(\phi\), \(\Gamma_2\) or \(\theta\).

This elimination rule also corresponds to a common inference. Suppose
that a mathematician assumes or somehow concludes that there is a
natural number with a given property \(P\). She then says “let
\(n\) be such a natural number, so that \(Pn\)”, and goes on to
establish a sentence \(\phi\), which does not mention the number
\(n\). If the derivation of \(\phi\) does not invoke anything about
\(n\) (other than the assumption that it has the given property
\(P)\), then \(n\) could have been any number that has the property
\(P\). That is, \(n\) is an *arbitrary* number with property
\(P\). It does not matter which number \(n\) is. Since \(\phi\) does
not mention \(n\), it follows from the assertion that something has
property \(P\). The provisions added to \((\exists\)E) are to
guarantee that \(t\) is “arbitrary”.

The final items are the rules for the identity sign “=”. The introduction rule is about a simple as can be:

- \(({=}\mathrm{I})\)
- \(\Gamma \vdash t=t\), where \(t\) is any closed term.

This “inference” corresponds to the truism that everything is identical to itself. The elimination rule corresponds to a principle that if \(a\) is identical to \(b\), then anything true of \(a\) is also true of \(b\).

- \(({=}\mathrm{E})\)
- For any closed terms \(t_1\) and \(t_2\), if \(\Gamma_1 \vdash t_1 =t_2\) and \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \theta\), then \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \theta'\), where \(\theta'\) is obtained from \(\theta\) by replacing one or more occurances of \(t_1\) with \(t_2\).

The rule \(({=}\mathrm{E})\) indicates a certain restriction in the expressive resources of our language. Suppose, for example, that Harry is identical to Donald (since his mischievous parents gave him two names). According to most people’s intuitions, it would not follow from this and “Dick knows that Harry is wicked” that “Dick knows that Donald is wicked”, for the reason that Dick might not know that Harry is identical to Donald. Contexts like this, in which identicals cannot safely be substituted for each other, are called “opaque”. We assume that our language \(\LKe\) has no opaque contexts.

One final clause completes the description of the deductive system \(D\):

- (*)
- That’s all folks. \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\) only if \(\theta\) follows from members of \(\Gamma\) by the above rules.

Again, this clause allows proofs by induction on the rules used to establish an argument. If a property of arguments holds of all instances of (As) and \(({=}\mathrm{I})\), and if the other rules preserve the property, then every argument that is deducible in \(D\) enjoys the property in question.

Before moving on to the model theory for \(\LKe\), we pause to note a few features of the deductive system. To illustrate the level of rigor, we begin with a lemma that if a sentence does not contain a particular closed term, we can make small changes to the set of sentences we prove it from without problems. We allow ourselves the liberty here of extending some previous notation: for any terms \(t\) and \(t'\), and any formula \(\theta\), we say that \(\theta(t|t')\) is the result of replacing all free occurrences of \(t\) in \(\theta\) with \(t'\).

**Lemma 7.** If \(\Gamma_1\) and \(\Gamma_2\) differ only
in that wherever \(\Gamma_1\) contains \(\theta\), \(\Gamma_2\)
contains \(\theta(t|t')\), then for any sentence \(\phi\) not
containing \(t\) or \(t'\), if \(\Gamma_1\vdash\phi\) then
\(\Gamma_2\vdash\phi\).

**Proof:** The proof proceeds by induction on the number
of steps in the proof of \(\phi\). Crucial to this proof is the fact
that \(\theta=\theta(t|t')\) whenever \(\theta\) does not contain
\(t\) or \(t'\). When the number of steps in the proof of \(\phi\) is
one, this means that the last (and only) rule applied is (As) or (=I).
Then, since \(\phi\) does not contain \(t\) or \(t'\), if
\(\Gamma_1\vdash\phi\) we simply apply the same rule ((As) or (=I)) to
\(\Gamma_2\) to get \(\Gamma_2\vdash\phi\). Assume that there are
\(n>1\) steps in the proof of \(\phi\), and that Lemma 7 holds for any
proof with less than \(n\) steps. Suppose that the \(n^{th}\) rule
applied to \(\Gamma_1\) was (\(\amp I\)). Then \(\phi\) is
\(\psi\amp\chi\), and \(\Gamma_1\vdash\phi\amp\chi\). But then we know
that previous steps in the proof include \(\Gamma_1\vdash\psi\) and
\(\Gamma_1\vdash\chi\), and by induction, we have
\(\Gamma_2\vdash\psi\) and \(\Gamma_2\vdash\chi\), since neither
\(\psi\) nor \(\chi\) contain \(t\) or \(t'\). So, we simply apply
(\(\amp I\)) to \(\Gamma_2\) to get \(\Gamma_2\vdash\psi\amp\chi\) as
required. Suppose now that the last step applied in the proof of
\(\Gamma_1\vdash\phi\) was (\(\amp E\)). Then, at a previous step in
the proof of \(\phi\), we know \(\Gamma_1\vdash\phi\amp\psi\) for some
sentence \(\psi\). If \(\psi\) does not contain \(t\), then we simply
apply (\(\amp E\)) to \(\Gamma_2\) to obtain the desired result. The
only complication is if \(\psi\) contains \(t\). Then we would have
that \(\Gamma_2\vdash (\phi\amp\psi)(t|t')\). But, since
\((\phi\amp\psi)(t|t')\) is \(\phi(t|t')\amp\psi(t|t')\), and
\(\phi(t|t')\) is just \(\phi\), we can just apply (\(\amp E\)) to get
\(\Gamma_2\vdash\phi\) as required. The cases for the other rules are
similar.

**Theorem 8. The rule of Weakening.** If \(\Gamma_1
\vdash \phi\) and \(\Gamma_1 \subseteq \Gamma_2\), then \(\Gamma_2
\vdash \phi\).

**Proof:** Again, we proceed by induction on the number
of rules that were used to arrive at \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \phi\). Suppose
that \(n\gt 0\) is a natural number, and that the theorem holds for
any argument that was derived using fewer than \(n\) rules. Suppose
that \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \phi\) using exactly \(n\) rules. If \(n=1\),
then the rule is either (As) or \((=\)I). In these cases, \(\Gamma_2
\vdash \phi\) by the same rule. If the last rule applied was (&I),
then \(\phi\) has the form \((\theta \amp \psi)\), and we have
\(\Gamma_3 \vdash \theta\) and \(\Gamma_4 \vdash \psi\), with
\(\Gamma_1 = \Gamma_3, \Gamma_4\). We apply the induction hypothesis
to the deductions of \(\theta\) and \(\psi\), to get \(\Gamma_2 \vdash
\theta\) and \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \psi\). and then apply (&I) to the
result to get \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \phi\). Most of the other cases are
exactly like this. Slight complications arise only in the rules
\((\forall\)I) and \((\exists\)E), because there we have to pay
attention to the conditions for the rules.

Suppose that the last rule applied to get \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \phi\) is \((\forall\)I). So \(\phi\) is a sentence of the form \(\forall v\theta\), and we have \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \theta (v|t)\) and \(t\) does not occur in any member of \(\Gamma_1\) or in \(\theta\). The problem is that \(t\) may occur in a member of \(\Gamma_2\), and so we cannot just invoke the induction hypothesis and apply \((\forall\)I) to the result. So, let \(t'\) be a term not occurring in any sentence in \(\Gamma_2\). Let \(\Gamma'\) be the result of substituting \(t'\) for all \(t\) in \(\Gamma_2\). Then, since \(t\) does not occur in \(\Gamma_1\), \(\Gamma_1\subseteq\Gamma'\). So, the induction hypothesis gives us \(\Gamma'\vdash\theta (v|t)\), and we know that \(\Gamma'\) does not contain \(t\), so we can apply (\(\forall I\)) to get \(\Gamma'\vdash\forall v\theta\). But \(\forall v\theta\) does not contain \(t\) or \(t'\), so \(\Gamma_2\vdash\forall v\theta\) by Lemma 7.

Suppose that the last rule applied was \((\exists\)E), we have \(\Gamma_3 \vdash \exists v\theta\) and \(\Gamma_4, \theta (v|t) \vdash \phi\), with \(\Gamma_1\) being \(\Gamma_3, \Gamma_4\), and \(t\) not in \(\phi\), \(\Gamma_4\) or \(\theta\). If \(t\) does not occur free in \(\Gamma_2\), we apply the induction hypothesis to get \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \exists v\theta\), and then \((\exists\)E) to end up with \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \phi\). If \(t\) does occur free in \(\Gamma_2\), then we follow a similar proceedure to \(\forall I\), using Lemma 7.

Theorem 8 allows us to add on premises at will. It follows that \(\Gamma \vdash \phi\) if and only if there is a subset \(\Gamma'\subseteq \Gamma\) such that \(\Gamma'\vdash \phi\). Some systems of relevant logic do not have weakening, nor does substructural logic (See the entries on relevance logic, substructural logics, and linear logic).

By clause (*), all derivations are established in a finite number of steps. So we have

**Theorem 9**. \(\Gamma \vdash \phi\) if and only if
there is a finite \(\Gamma'\subseteq \Gamma\) such that
\(\Gamma'\vdash \phi\).

**Theorem 10**. The rule of *ex falso quodlibet*
is a “derived rule” of \(D\): if \(\Gamma_1 \vdash
\theta\) and \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \neg \theta\), then \(\Gamma_1,\Gamma_2
\vdash \psi\), for any sentence \(\psi\).

**Proof:** Suppose that \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \theta\) and
\(\Gamma_2 \vdash \neg \theta\). Then by Theorem \(8, \Gamma_1,\neg
\psi \vdash \theta\), and \(\Gamma_2,\neg \psi \vdash \neg \theta\).
So by \((\neg\)I), \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \neg \neg \psi\). By
(DNE), \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \psi\).

**Theorem 11. The rule of Cut**. If \(\Gamma_1 \vdash
\psi\) and \(\Gamma_2, \psi \vdash \theta\), then \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2
\vdash \theta\).

**Proof:** Suppose \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \psi\) and
\(\Gamma_2, \psi \vdash \theta\). We proceed by induction on the
number of rules used to establish \(\Gamma_2, \psi \vdash \theta\).
Suppose that \(n\) is a natural number, and that the theorem holds for
any argument that was derived using fewer than \(n\) rules. Suppose
that \(\Gamma_2, \psi \vdash \theta\) was derived using exactly \(n\)
rules. If the last rule used was \((=\)I), then \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2
\vdash \theta\) is also an instance of \((=\)I). If \(\Gamma_2, \psi
\vdash \theta\) is an instance of (As), then either \(\theta\) is
\(\psi\), or \(\theta\) is a member of \(\Gamma_2\). In the former
case, we have \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \theta\) by supposition, and get
\(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \theta\) by Weakening (Theorem 8). In the
latter case, \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \theta\) is itself an
instance of (As). Suppose that \(\Gamma_2, \psi \vdash \theta\) was
obtained using (&E). Then we have \(\Gamma_2, \psi \vdash(\theta
\amp \phi)\). The induction hypothesis gives us \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2
\vdash(\theta \amp \phi)\), and (&E) produces \(\Gamma_1, \Gamma_2
\vdash \theta\). The remaining cases are similar.

Theorem 11 allows us to chain together inferences. This fits the practice of establishing theorems and lemmas and then using those theorems and lemmas later, at will. The cut principle is, some think, essential to reasoning. In some logical systems, the cut principle is a deep theorem; in others it is invalid. The system here was designed, in part, to make the proof of Theorem 11 straightforward.

If \(\Gamma \vdash_D \theta\), then we say that the sentence
\(\theta\) is a *deductive consequence* of the set of sentences
\(\Gamma\), and that the argument \(\langle \Gamma,\theta \rangle\) is
*deductively valid*. A sentence \(\theta\) is a *logical
theorem*, or a *deductive logical truth*, if \(\vdash_D
\theta\). That is, \(\theta\) is a logical theorem if it is a
deductive consequence of the empty set. A set \(\Gamma\) of sentences
is *consistent* if there is no sentence \(\theta\) such that
\(\Gamma \vdash_D \theta\) and \(\Gamma \vdash_D \neg \theta\). That
is, a set is consistent if it does not entail a pair of contradictory
opposite sentencess.

**Theorem 12**. A set \(\Gamma\) is consistent if and
only if there is a sentence \(\theta\) such that it is not the case
that \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\).

**Proof:** Suppose that \(\Gamma\) is consistent and let
\(\theta\) be any sentence. Then either it is not the case that
\(\Gamma \vdash \theta\) or it is not the case that \(\Gamma \vdash
\neg \theta\). For the converse, suppose that \(\Gamma\) is
inconsistent and let \(\psi\) be any sentence. We have that there is a
sentence such that both \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\) and \(\Gamma \vdash
\neg \theta\). By *ex falso quodlibet* (Theorem 10), \(\Gamma
\vdash \psi\).

Define a set \(\Gamma\) of sentences of the language \(\LKe\) to be
*maximally consistent* if \(\Gamma\) is consistent and for
every sentence \(\theta\) of \(\LKe\), if \(\theta\) is not in
\(\Gamma\), then \(\Gamma,\theta\) is inconsistent. In other words,
\(\Gamma\) is maximally consistent if \(\Gamma\) is consistent, and
adding any sentence in the language not already in \(\Gamma\) renders
it inconsistent. Notice that if \(\Gamma\) is maximally consistent
then \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\) if and only if \(\theta\) is in
\(\Gamma\).

**Theorem 13. The Lindenbaum Lemma.** Let \(\Gamma\) be
any consistent set of sentences of \(\LKe .\) Then there is a set
\(\Gamma'\) of sentences of \(\LKe\) such that \(\Gamma \subseteq
\Gamma'\) and \(\Gamma'\) is maximally consistent.

**Proof:** Although this theorem holds in general, we
assume here that the set \(K\) of non-logical terminology is either
finite or denumerably infinite (i.e., the size of the natural numbers,
usually called \(\aleph_0)\). It follows that there is an enumeration
\(\theta_0, \theta_1,\ldots\) of the sentences of \(\LKe\), such that
every sentence of \(\LKe\) eventually occurs in the list. Define a
sequence of sets of sentences, by recursion, as follows: \(\Gamma_0\)
is \(\Gamma\); for each natural number \(n\), if \(\Gamma_n,
\theta_n\) is consistent, then let \(\Gamma_{n+1} = \Gamma_n,
\theta_n\). Otherwise, let \(\Gamma_{n+1} = \Gamma_n\). Let
\(\Gamma'\) be the union of all of the sets \(\Gamma_n\). Intuitively,
the idea is to go through the sentences of \(\LKe\), throwing each one
into \(\Gamma'\) if doing so produces a consistent set. Notice that
each \(\Gamma_n\) is consistent. Suppose that \(\Gamma'\) is
inconsistent. Then there is a sentence \(\theta\) such that
\(\Gamma'\vdash \theta\) and \(\Gamma'\vdash \neg \theta\). By Theorem
9 and Weakening (Theorem 8), there is finite subset \(\Gamma''\) of
\(\Gamma'\) such that \(\Gamma''\vdash \theta\) and \(\Gamma''\vdash
\neg \theta\). Because \(\Gamma''\) is finite, there is a natural
number \(n\) such that every member of \(\Gamma''\) is in
\(\Gamma_n\). So, by Weakening again, \(\Gamma_n \vdash \theta\) and
\(\Gamma_n \vdash \neg \theta\). So \(\Gamma_n\) is inconsistent,
which contradicts the construction. So \(\Gamma'\) is consistent. Now
suppose that a sentence \(\theta\) is not in \(\Gamma'\). We have to
show that \(\Gamma', \theta\) is inconsistent. The sentence \(\theta\)
must occur in the aforementioned list of sentences; say that
\(\theta\) is \(\theta_m\). Since \(\theta_m\) is not in \(\Gamma'\),
then it is not in \(\Gamma_{m+1}\). This happens only if \(\Gamma_m,
\theta_m\) is inconsistent. So a pair of contradictory opposites can
be deduced from \(\Gamma_m,\theta_m\). By Weakening, a pair of
contradictory opposites can be deduced from \(\Gamma', \theta_m\). So
\(\Gamma', \theta_m\) is inconsistent. Thus, \(\Gamma'\) is maximally
consistent.

Notice that this proof uses a principle corresponding to the law of excluded middle. In the construction of \(\Gamma'\), we assumed that, at each stage, either \(\Gamma_n\) is consistent or it is not. Intuitionists, who demur from excluded middle, do not accept the Lindenbaum lemma.

## 4. Semantics

Let \(K\) be a set of non-logical terminology. An
*interpretation* for the language \(\LKe\) is a structure \(M =
\langle d,I\rangle\), where \(d\) is a non-empty set, called the
*domain-of-discourse*, or simply the *domain*, of the
interpretation, and \(I\) is an *interpretation function*.
Informally, the domain is what we interpret the language \(\LKe\) to
be about. It is what the variables range over. The interpretation
function assigns appropriate extensions to the non-logical terms. In
particular,

If \(c\) is a constant in \(K\), then \(I(c)\) is a member of the domain \(d\).

Thus we assume that every constant denotes something. Systems where
this is not assumed are called *free logics* (see the entry on
free logic).
Continuing,

If \(P^0\) is a zero-place predicate letter in \(K\), then \(I(P)\) is a truth value, either truth or falsehood.

If \(Q^1\) is a one-place predicate letter in \(K\), then \(I(Q)\) is a subset of \(d\). Intuitively, \(I(Q)\) is the set of members of the domain that the predicate \(Q\) holds of. For example, \(I(Q)\) might be the set of red members of the domain.

If \(R^2\) is a two-place predicate letter in \(K\), then \(I(R)\) is a set of ordered pairs of members of \(d\). Intuitively, \(I(R)\) is the set of pairs of members of the domain that the relation \(R\) holds between. For example, \(I(R)\) might be the set of pairs \(\langle a,b\rangle\) such that \(a\) and \(b\) are the members of the domain for which \(a\) loves \(b\).

In general, if *S\(^n\)* is an \(n\)-place predicate letter in
\(K\), then \(I(S)\) is a set of ordered \(n\)-tuples of members of
\(d\).

Define \(s\) to be a *variable-assignment*, or simply an
*assignment*, on an interpretation \(M\), if \(s\) is a
function from the variables to the domain \(d\) of \(M\). The role of
variable-assignments is to assign denotations to the *free*
variables of open formulas. (In a sense, the quantifiers determine the
“meaning” of the bound variables.)

Let \(t\) be a term of \(\LKe\). We define the *denotation* of
\(t\) in \(M\) under \(s\), in terms of the interpretation function
and variable-assignment:

If \(t\) is a constant, then \(D_{M,s}(t)\) is \(I(t)\), and if \(t\) is a variable, then \(D_{M,s}(t)\) is \(s(t)\).

That is, the interpretation \(M\) assigns denotations to the constants, while the variable-assignment assigns denotations to the (free) variables. If the language contained function symbols, the denotation function would be defined by recursion.

We now define a relation of *satisfaction* between
interpretations, variable-assignments, and formulas of \(\LKe\). If
\(\phi\) is a formula of \(\LKe, M\) is an interpretation for
\(\LKe\), and \(s\) is a variable-assignment on \(M\), then we write
\(M,s\vDash \phi\) for \(M\) *satisfies* \(\phi\) *under the
assignment* \(s\). The idea is that \(M,s\vDash \phi\) is an
analogue of “\(\phi\) comes out true when interpreted as in
\(M\) via \(s\)”.

We proceed by recursion on the complexity of the formulas of \(\LKe\).

If \(t_1\) and \(t_2\) are terms, then \(M,s\vDash t_1 =t_2\) if and only if \(D_{M,s}(t_1)\) is the same as \(D_{M,s}(t_2)\).

This is about as straightforward as it gets. An identity \(t_1 =t_2\) comes out true if and only if the terms \(t_1\) and \(t_2\) denote the same thing.

If \(P^0\) is a zero-place predicate letter in \(K\), then \(M,s\vDash P\) if and only if \(I(P)\) is truth.

If *S\(^n\)* is an \(n\)-place predicate letter in \(K\) and
\(t_1, \ldots,t_n\) are terms, then \(M,s\vDash St_1 \ldots t_n\) if
and only if the \(n\)-tuple \(\langle D_{M,s}(t_1),
\ldots,D_{M,s}(t_n)\rangle\) is in \(I(S)\).

This takes care of the atomic formulas. We now proceed to the compound formulas of the language, more or less following the meanings of the English counterparts of the logical terminology.

\(M,s\vDash \neg \theta\) if and only if it is not the case that \(M,s\vDash \theta\).

\(M,s\vDash(\theta \amp \psi)\) if and only if both \(M,s\vDash \theta\) and \(M,s\vDash \psi\).

\(M,s\vDash(\theta \vee \psi)\) if and only if either \(M,s\vDash \theta\) or \(M,s\vDash \psi\).

\(M,s\vDash(\theta \rightarrow \psi)\) if and only if either it is not the case that \(M,s\vDash \theta\), or \(M,s\vDash \psi\).

\(M,s\vDash \forall v\theta\) if and only if \(M,s'\vDash \theta\), for every assignment \(s'\) that agrees with \(s\) except possibly at the variable \(v\).

The idea here is that \(\forall v\theta\) comes out true if and only if \(\theta\) comes out true no matter what is assigned to the variable \(v\). The final clause is similar.

\(M,s\vDash \exists v\theta\) if and only if \(M,s'\vDash \theta\), for some assignment \(s'\) that agrees with \(s\) except possibly at the variable \(v\).

So \(\exists v\theta\) comes out true if there is an assignment to \(v\) that makes \(\theta\) true.

Theorem 6, unique readability, assures us that this definition is coherent. At each stage in breaking down a formula, there is exactly one clause to be applied, and so we never get contradictory verdicts concerning satisfaction.

As indicated, the role of variable-assignments is to give denotations to the free variables. We now show that variable-assignments play no other role.

**Theorem 14.** For any formula \(\theta\), if \(s_1\)
and \(s_2\) agree on the free variables in \(\theta\), then \(M,s_1
\vDash \theta\) if and only if \(M,s_2 \vDash \theta\).

**Proof:** We proceed by induction on the complexity of
the formula \(\theta\). The theorem clearly holds if \(\theta\) is
atomic, since in those cases only the values of the
variable-assignments at the variables in \(\theta\) figure in the
definition. Assume, then, that the theorem holds for all formulas less
complex than \(\theta\). And suppose that \(s_1\) and \(s_2\) agree on
the free variables of \(\theta\). Assume, first, that \(\theta\) is a
negation, \(\neg \psi\). Then, by the induction hypothesis, \(M,s_1
\vDash \psi\) if and only if \(M,s_2 \vDash \psi\). So, by the clause
for negation, \(M,s_1 \vDash \neg \psi\) if and only if \(M,s_2 \vDash
\neg \psi\). The cases where the main connective in \(\theta\) is
binary are also straightforward. Suppose that \(\theta\) is \(\exists
v\psi\), and that \(M,s_1 \vDash \exists v\psi\). Then there is an
assignment \(s_1'\) that agrees with \(s_1\) except possibly at \(v\)
such that \(M,s_1'\vDash \psi\). Let \(s_2'\) be the assignment that
agrees with \(s_2\) on the free variables not in \(\psi\) and agrees
with \(s_1'\) on the others. Then, by the induction hypothesis,
\(M,s_2'\vDash \psi\). Notice that \(s_2'\) agrees with \(s_2\) on
every variable except possibly \(v\). So \(M,s_2 \vDash \exists
v\psi\). The converse is the same, and the case where \(\theta\)
begins with a universal quantifier is similar.

By Theorem 14, if \(\theta\) is a sentence, and \(s_1, s_2\), are any two variable-assignments, then \(M,s_1 \vDash \theta\) if and only if \(M,s_2 \vDash \theta\). So we can just write \(M\vDash \theta\) if \(M,s\vDash \theta\) for some, or all, variable-assignments \(s\). So we define

\(M\vDash \theta\) where \(\theta\) is a sentence just in case \(M,s\vDash\theta\) for all variable assignments \(s\).

In this case, we call \(M\) a *model* of \(\theta\).

Suppose that \(K'\subseteq K\) are two sets of non-logical terms. If
\(M = \langle d,I\rangle\) is an interpretation of \(\LKe\), then we
define the *restriction* of \(M\) to \(\mathcal{L}1K'{=}\) to
be the interpretation \(M'=\langle d,I'\rangle\) such that \(I'\) is
the restriction of \(I\) to \(K'\). That is, \(M\) and \(M'\) have the
same domain and agree on the non-logical terminology in \(K'\). A
straightforward induction establishes the following:

**Theorem 15**. If \(M'\) is the restriction of \(M\) to
\(\mathcal{L}1K'{=}\), then for every sentence \(\theta\) of
\(\mathcal{L}1K'\), \(M\vDash\theta\) if and only if \(M'\vDash
\theta\).

**Theorem 16.** If two interpretations \(M_1\) and
\(M_2\) have the same domain and agree on all of the non-logical
terminology of a sentence \(\theta\), then \(M_1\vDash\theta\) if and
only if \(M_2\vDash \theta\).

In short, the satisfaction of a sentence \(\theta\) only depends on the domain of discourse and the interpretation of the non-logical terminology in \(\theta\).

We say that an argument \(\langle \Gamma,\theta \rangle\) is
*semantically valid*, or just *valid*, written \(\Gamma
\vDash \theta\), if for every interpretation \(M\) of the language, if
\(M\vDash\psi\), for every member \(\psi\) of \(\Gamma\), then
\(M\vDash\theta\). If \(\Gamma \vDash \theta\), we also say that
\(\theta\) is a *logical consequence*, or *semantic
consequence*, or *model-theoretic consequence* of
\(\Gamma\). The definition corresponds to the informal idea that an
argument is valid if it is not possible for its premises to all be
true and its conclusion false. Our definition of logical consequence
also sanctions the common thesis that a valid argument is
truth-preserving – to the extent that satisfaction represents
truth. Officially, an argument in \(\LKe\) is valid if its conclusion
comes out true under every interpretation of the language in which the
premises are true. Validity is the model-theoretic counterpart to
deducibility.

A sentence \(\theta\) is *logically true*, or *valid*,
if \(M\vDash \theta\), for every interpretation \(M\). A sentence is
logically true if and only if it is a consequence of the empty set. If
\(\theta\) is logically true, then for any set \(\Gamma\) of
sentences, \(\Gamma \vDash \theta\). Logical truth is the
model-theoretic counterpart of theoremhood.

A sentence \(\theta\) is *satisfiable* if there is an
interpretation \(M\) such that \(M\vDash \theta\). That is, \(\theta\)
is satisfiable if there is an interpretation that satisfies it. A set
\(\Gamma\) of sentences is satisfiable if there is an interpretation
\(M\) such that \(M\vDash\theta\), for every sentence \(\theta\) in
\(\Gamma\). If \(\Gamma\) is a set of sentences and if \(M\vDash
\theta\) for each sentence \(\theta\) in \(\Gamma\), then we say that
\(M\) is a *model of* \(\Gamma\). So a set of sentences is
satisfiable if it has a model. Satisfiability is the model-theoretic
counterpart to consistency.

Notice that \(\Gamma \vDash \theta\) if and only if the set
\(\Gamma,\neg \theta\) is not satisfiable. It follows that if a set
\(\Gamma\) is not satisfiable, then if \(\theta\) is any sentence,
\(\Gamma \vDash \theta\). This is a model-theoretic counterpart to
*ex falso quodlibet* (see Theorem 10). We have the following,
as an analogue to Theorem 12:

**Theorem 17**. Let \(\Gamma\) be a set of sentences. The
following are equivalent: (a) \(\Gamma\) is satisfiable; (b) there is
no sentence \(\theta\) such that both \(\Gamma \vDash \theta\) and
\(\Gamma \vDash \neg \theta\); (c) there is some sentence \(\psi\)
such that it is not the case that \(\Gamma \vDash \psi\).

**Proof:** (a)\(\Rightarrow\)(b): Suppose that \(\Gamma\)
is satisfiable and let \(\theta\) be any sentence. There is an
interpretation \(M\) such that \(M\vDash \psi\) for every member
\(\psi\) of \(\Gamma\). By the clause for negations, we cannot have
both \(M\vDash \theta\) and \(M\vDash \neg \theta\). So either
\(\langle \Gamma,\theta \rangle\) is not valid or else \(\langle
\Gamma,\neg \theta \rangle\) is not valid. (b)\(\Rightarrow\)(c): This
is immediate. (c)\(\Rightarrow\)(a): Suppose that it is not the case
that \(\Gamma \vDash \psi\). Then there is an interpretation \(M\)
such that \(M\vDash \theta\), for every sentence \(\theta\) in
\(\Gamma\) and it is not the case that \(M\vDash \psi\). A fortiori,
\(M\) satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\), and so \(\Gamma\) is
satisfiable.

## 5. Meta-theory

We now present some results that relate the deductive notions to their model-theoretic counterparts. The first one is probably the most straightforward. We motivated both the various rules of the deductive system \(D\) and the various clauses in the definition of satisfaction in terms of the meaning of the English counterparts to the logical terminology (more or less, with the same simplifications in both cases). So one would expect that an argument is deducible, or deductively valid, only if it is semantically valid.

**Theorem 18. Soundness.** For any sentence \(\theta\)
and set \(\Gamma\) of sentences, if \(\Gamma \vdash_D \theta\), then
\(\Gamma \vDash \theta\).

**Proof:** We proceed by induction on the number of
clauses used to establish \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\). So let \(n\) be a
natural number, and assume that the theorem holds for any argument
established as deductively valid with fewer than \(n\) steps. And
suppose that \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\) was established using exactly
\(n\) steps. If the last rule applied was \((=\)I) then \(\theta\) is
a sentence in the form \(t=t\), and so \(\theta\) is logically true. A
fortiori, \(\Gamma \vDash \theta\). If the last rule applied was (As),
then \(\theta\) is a member of \(\Gamma\), and so of course any
interpretation that satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\) also
satisfies \(\theta\). Suppose the last rule applied is (&I). So
\(\theta\) has the form \((\phi \amp \psi)\), and we have \(\Gamma_1
\vdash \phi\) and \(\Gamma_2 \vdash \psi\), with \(\Gamma = \Gamma_1,
\Gamma_2\). The induction hypothesis gives us \(\Gamma_1 \vDash \phi\)
and \(\Gamma_2 \vDash \psi\). Suppose that \(M\) satisfies every
member of \(\Gamma\). Then \(M\) satisfies every member of
\(\Gamma_1\), and so \(M\) satisfies \(\phi\). Similarly, \(M\)
satisfies every member of \(\Gamma_2\), and so \(M\) satisfies
\(\psi\). Thus, by the clause for “\(\amp\)” in the
definition of satisfaction, \(M\) satisfies \(\theta\). So \(\Gamma
\vDash \theta\).

Suppose the last clause applied was \((\exists\mathrm{E})\). So we have \(\Gamma_1 \vdash \exists v\phi\) and \(\Gamma_2, \phi(v|t) \vdash \theta\), where \(\Gamma = \Gamma_1, \Gamma_2\), and \(t\) does not occur in \(\phi , \theta \), or in any member of \(\Gamma_2\).

We need to show that \(\Gamma\vDash\theta\). By the induction hypothesis, we have that \(\Gamma_1\vDash\exists v\phi\) and \(\Gamma_2, \phi(v|t)\vDash\theta\). Let \(M\) be an interpretation such that \(M\) makes every member of \(\Gamma\) true. So, \(M\) makes every member of \(\Gamma_1\) and \(\Gamma_2\) true. Then \(M,s\vDash\exists v\phi\) for all variable assignments \(s\), so there is an \(s'\) such that \(M,s'\vDash\phi\). Let \(M'\) differ from \(M\) only in that \(I_{M'}(t)=s'(v)\). Then, \(M',s'\vDash\phi(v|t)\) and \(M',s'\vDash\Gamma_2\) since \(t\) does not occur in \(\phi\) or \(\Gamma_2\). So, \(M',s'\vDash\theta\). Since \(t\) does not occur in \(\theta\) and \(M'\) differs from \(M\) only with respect to \(I_{M'}(t)\), \(M,s'\vDash\theta\). Since \(\theta\) is a sentence, \(s'\) doesn't matter, so \(M\vDash\theta\) as desired. Notice the role of the restrictions on \((\exists\)E) here. The other cases are about as straightforward.

**Corollary 19.** Let \(\Gamma\) be a set of sentences.
If \(\Gamma\) is satisfiable, then \(\Gamma\) is consistent.

**Proof:** Suppose that \(\Gamma\) is satisfiable. So let
\(M\) be an interpretation such that \(M\) satisfies every member of
\(\Gamma\). Assume that \(\Gamma\) is inconsistent. Then there is a
sentence \(\theta\) such that \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\) and \(\Gamma
\vdash \neg \theta\). By soundness (Theorem 18), \(\Gamma \vDash
\theta\) and \(\Gamma \vDash \neg \theta\). So we have that \(M\vDash
\theta\) and \(M\vDash \neg \theta\). But this is impossible, given
the clause for negation in the definition of satisfaction.

Even though the deductive system \(D\) and the model-theoretic semantics were developed with the meanings of the logical terminology in mind, one should not automatically expect the converse to soundness (or Corollary 19) to hold. For all we know so far, we may not have included enough rules of inference to deduce every valid argument. The converses to soundness and Corollary 19 are among the most important and influential results in mathematical logic. We begin with the latter.

**Theorem 20. Completeness. Gödel [1930].** Let
\(\Gamma\) be a set of sentences. If \(\Gamma\) is consistent, then
\(\Gamma\) is satisfiable.

**Proof:** The proof of completeness is rather complex.
We only sketch it here. Let \(\Gamma\) be a consistent set of
sentences of \(\LKe\). Again, we assume for simplicity that the set
\(K\) of non-logical terminology is either finite or countably
infinite (although the theorem holds even if \(K\) is uncountable).
The task at hand is to find an interpretation \(M\) such that \(M\)
satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\). Consider the language obtained
from \(\LKe\) by adding a denumerably infinite stock of new individual
constants \(c_0, c_1,\ldots\) We stipulate that the constants, \(c_0,
c_1,\ldots\), are all different from each other and none of them occur
in \(K\). One interesting feature of this construction, due to Leon
Henkin, is that we build an interpretation of the language from the
language itself, using some of the constants as members of the domain
of discourse. Let \(\theta_0 (x), \theta_1 (x),\ldots\) be an
enumeration of the formulas of the expanded language with at most one
free variable, so that each formula with at most one free variable
occurs in the list eventually. Define a sequence \(\Gamma_0,
\Gamma_1,\ldots\) of sets of sentences (of the expanded language) by
recursion as follows: \(\Gamma_0 = \Gamma\); and \(\Gamma_{n+1} =
\Gamma_n,(\exists x\theta_n \rightarrow \theta_{n}(x|c_i))\), where
\(c_i\) is the first constant in the above list that does not occur in
\(\theta_n\) or in any member of \(\Gamma_n\). The underlying idea
here is that if \(\exists x\theta_n\)is true, then \(c_i\) is to be
one such \(x\). Let \(\Gamma\) be the union of the sets \(\Gamma_n\).

We sketch a proof that \(\Gamma'\) is consistent. Suppose that \(\Gamma'\) is inconsistent. By Theorem 9, there is a finite subset of \(\Gamma\) that is inconsistent, and so one of the sets \(\Gamma_m\) is inconsistent. By hypothesis, \(\Gamma_0 = \Gamma\) is consistent. Let \(n\) be the smallest number such that \(\Gamma_n\) is consistent, but \(\Gamma_{n+1} = \Gamma_n,(\exists x\theta_n \rightarrow \theta_{n}(x|c_i))\) is inconsistent. By \((\neg\)I), we have that

\[\tag{1} \Gamma_n \vdash \neg(\exists x\theta_n \rightarrow \theta_n(x|c_i)). \]
By *ex falso quodlibet* (Theorem 10), \(\Gamma_n, \neg \exists
x\theta_n, \exists x\theta_n \vdash \theta_n (x|c_i)\). So by
\((\rightarrow\)I), \(\Gamma_n, \neg \exists x\theta_n \vdash(\exists
x\theta_n \rightarrow \theta_n (x|c_i))\). From this and (1), we have
\(\Gamma_n \vdash \neg \neg \exists x\theta_n\), by \((\neg\)I), and
by (DNE) we have

By (As), \(\Gamma_n, \theta_n (x|c_i), \exists x\theta_n \vdash \theta_n (x|c_i)\). So by \((\rightarrow\)I), \(\Gamma_n, \theta_n (x|c_i)\vdash(\exists x\theta_{n} \rightarrow \theta_{n}(x|c_i))\). From this and (1), we have \(\Gamma_n \vdash \neg \theta_n (x|c_i)\), by \((\neg\)I). Let \(t\) be a term that does not occur in \(\theta_n\) or in any member of \(\Gamma_n\). By uniform substitution of \(t\) for \(c_i\), we can turn the derivation of \(\Gamma_n \vdash \neg \theta_n (x|c_i)\) into \(\Gamma_n \vdash \neg \theta_n (x|t)\). By \((\forall\)I), we have

\[\tag{3} \Gamma_n \vdash \forall v\neg \theta_n (x|v). \]
By (As) we have \(\{\forall v\neg \theta_n (x|v),\theta_n\}\vdash
\theta_n\) and by \((\forall\)E) we have \(\{\forall v\neg \theta_n
(x|v), \theta_n\}\vdash \neg \theta_n\). So \(\{\forall v\neg \theta_n
(x|v), \theta_n\}\) is inconsistent. Let \(\phi\) be any sentence of
the language. By *ex falso quodlibet* (Theorem 10), we have
that \(\{\forall v\neg \theta_n (x|v),\theta_n\}\vdash \phi\) and
\(\{\forall v\neg \theta_n (x|v), \theta_n\}\vdash \neg \phi\). So
with (2), we have that \(\Gamma_n, \forall v\neg \theta_n (x|v)\vdash
\phi\) and \(\Gamma_n, \forall v\neg \theta_n (x|v)\vdash \neg \phi\),
by \((\exists\)E). By Cut (Theorem 11), \(\Gamma_n \vdash \phi\) and
\(\Gamma_n \vdash \neg \phi\). So \(\Gamma_n\) is inconsistent,
contradicting the assumption. So \(\Gamma'\) is consistent.

Applying the Lindenbaum Lemma (Theorem 13), let \(\Gamma''\) be a maximally consistent set of sentences (of the expanded language) that contains \(\Gamma'\). So, of course, \(\Gamma''\) contains \(\Gamma\). We can now define an interpretation \(M\) such that \(M\) satisfies every member of \(\Gamma''\).

If we did not have a sign for identity in the language, we would let the domain of \(M\) be the collection of new constants \(\{c_0, c_1, \ldots \}\). But as it is, there may be a sentence in the form \(c_{i}=c_{j}\), with \(i\ne j\), in \(\Gamma''\). If so, we cannot have both \(c_i\) and \(c_j\) in the domain of the interpretation (as they are distinct constants). So we define the domain \(d\) of \(M\) to be the set \(\{c_i\) | there is no \(j\lt i\) such that \(c_{i}=c_{j}\) is in \(\Gamma''\}\). In other words, a constant \(c_i\) is in the domain of \(M\) if \(\Gamma''\) does not declare it to be identical to an earlier constant in the list. Notice that for each new constant \(c_i\), there is exactly one \(j\le i\) such that \(c_j\) is in \(d\) and the sentence \(c_{i}=c_{j}\) is in \(\Gamma''\).

We now define the interpretation function \(I\). Let \(a\) be any constant in the expanded language. By \((=\)I) and \((\exists\)I), \(\Gamma''\vdash \exists x x=a\), and so \(\exists x x=a \in \Gamma''\). By the construction of \(\Gamma'\), there is a sentence in the form \((\exists x x=a \rightarrow c_i =a)\) in \(\Gamma''\). We have that \(c_i =a\) is in \(\Gamma''\). As above, there is exactly one \(c_j\) in \(d\) such that \(c_{i}=c_{j}\) is in \(\Gamma''\). Let \(I(a)=c_j\). Notice that if \(c_i\) is a constant in the domain \(d\), then \(I\)(c\(_i)=c_i\). That is each \(c_i\) in \(d\) denotes itself.

Let \(P\) be a zero-place predicate letter in \(K\). Then \(I(P)\) is truth if \(P\) is in \(\Gamma''\) and \(I(P)\) is falsehood otherwise. Let \(Q\) be a one-place predicate letter in \(K\). Then \(I(Q)\) is the set of constants \(\{\)c\(_i | c_i\) is in \(d\) and the sentence \(Qc\) is in \(\Gamma''\}\). Let \(R\) be a binary predicate letter in \(K\). Then \(I(R)\) is the set of pairs of constants \(\{\langle c_i,c_j\rangle | c_i\) is in \(d, c_j\) is in \(d\), and the sentence \(Rc_{i}c_{j}\) is in \(\Gamma''\}\). Three-place predicates, etc. are interpreted similarly. In effect, \(I\) interprets the non-logical terminology as they are in \(\Gamma''\).

The final item in this proof is a lemma that for every sentence \(\theta\) in the expanded language, \(M\vDash \theta\) if and only if \(\theta\) is in \(\Gamma''\). This proceeds by induction on the complexity of \(\theta\). The case where \(\theta\) is atomic follows from the definitions of \(M\) (i.e., the domain \(d\) and the interpretation function \(I\)). The other cases follow from the various clauses in the definition of satisfaction.

Since \(\Gamma \subseteq \Gamma''\), we have that \(M\) satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\). By Theorem 15, the restriction of \(M\) to the original language \(\LKe\) and \(s\) also satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\). Thus \(\Gamma\) is satisfiable.

A converse to Soundness (Theorem 18) is a straightforward corollary:

**Theorem 21.** For any sentence \(\theta\) and set
\(\Gamma\) of sentences, if \(\Gamma \vDash \theta\), then \(\Gamma
\vdash_D \theta\).

**Proof:** Suppose that \(\Gamma \vDash \theta\). Then
there is no interpretation \(M\) such that *M* satisfies every
member of \(\Gamma\) but does not satisfy \(\theta\). So the set
\(\Gamma,\neg \theta\) is not satisfiable. By Completeness (Theorem
20), \(\Gamma,\neg \theta\) is inconsistent. So there is a sentence
\(\phi\) such that \(\Gamma,\neg \theta \vdash \phi\) and
\(\Gamma,\neg \theta \vdash \neg \phi\). By \((\neg\)I), \(\Gamma
\vdash \neg \neg \theta\), and by (DNE) \(\Gamma \vdash \theta\).

Our next item is a corollary of Theorem 9, Soundness (Theorem 18), and Completeness:

**Corollary 22. Compactness.** A set \(\Gamma\) of
sentences is satisfiable if and only if every finite subset of
\(\Gamma\) is satisfiable.

**Proof:** If \(M\) satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\),
then \(M\) satisfies every member of each finite subset of \(\Gamma\).
For the converse, suppose that \(\Gamma\) is not satisfiable. Then we
show that some finite subset of \(\Gamma\) is not satisfiable. By
Completeness (Theorem 20), \(\Gamma\) is inconsistent. By Theorem 9
(and Weakening), there is a finite subset \(\Gamma'\subseteq \Gamma\)
such that \(\Gamma'\) is inconsistent. By Corollary \(19, \Gamma'\) is
not satisfiable.

Soundness and completeness together entail that an argument is deducible if and only if it is valid, and a set of sentences is consistent if and only if it is satisfiable. So we can go back and forth between model-theoretic and proof-theoretic notions, transferring properties of one to the other. Compactness holds in the model theory because all derivations use only a finite number of premises.

Recall that in the proof of Completeness (Theorem 20), we made the simplifying assumption that the set \(K\) of non-logical constants is either finite or denumerably infinite. The interpretation we produced was itself either finite or denumerably infinite. Thus, we have the following:

**Corollary 23. Löwenheim-Skolem Theorem.** Let
\(\Gamma\) be a satisfiable set of sentences of the language \(\LKe\).
If \(\Gamma\) is either finite or denumerably infinite, then
\(\Gamma\) has a model whose domain is either finite or denumerably
infinite.

In general, let \(\Gamma\) be a satisfiable set of sentences of \(\LKe\), and let \(\kappa\) be the larger of the size of \(\Gamma\) and denumerably infinite. Then \(\Gamma\) has a model whose domain is at most size \(\kappa\).

There is a stronger version of Corollary 23. Let \(M_1 =\langle
d_1,I_1\rangle\) and \(M_2 =\langle d_2,I_2\rangle\) be
interpretations of the language \(\LKe\). Define \(M_1\) to be a
*submodel* of \(M_2\) if \(d_1 \subseteq d_2, I_1 (c) = I_2
(c)\) for each constant \(c\), and \(I_1\) is the restriction of
\(I_2\) to \(d_1\). For example, if \(R\) is a binary relation letter
in \(K\), then for all \(a,b\) in \(d_1\), the pair \(\langle
a,b\rangle\) is in \(I_1 (R)\) if and only if \(\langle a,b\rangle\)
is in \(I_2 (R)\). If we had included function letters among the
non-logical terminology, we would also require that \(d_1\) be closed
under their interpretations in \(M_2\). Notice that if \(M_1\) is a
submodel of \(M_2\), then any variable-assignment on \(M_1\) is also a
variable-assignment on \(M_2\).

Say that two interpretations \(M_1 =\langle d_1,I_1\rangle, M_2
=\langle d_2,I_2\rangle\) are *equivalent* if one of them is a
submodel of the other, and for any formula of the language and any
variable-assignment \(s\) on the submodel, \(M_1,s\vDash \theta\) if
and only if \(M_2,s\vDash \theta\). Notice that if two interpretations
are equivalent, then they satisfy the same sentences.

**Theorem 25. Downward Löwenheim-Skolem Theorem.**
Let \(M = \langle d,I\rangle\) be an interpretation of the language
\(\LKe\). Let \(d_1\) be any subset of \(d\), and let \(\kappa\) be
the maximum of the size of \(K\), the size of \(d_1\), and denumerably
infinite. Then there is a submodel \(M' = \langle d',I'\rangle\) of
\(M\) such that (1) \(d'\) is not larger than \(\kappa\), and (2)
\(M\) and \(M'\) are equivalent. In particular, if the set \(K\) of
non-logical terminology is either finite or denumerably infinite, then
any interpretation has an equivalent submodel whose domain is either
finite or denumerably infinite.

**Proof:** Like completeness, this proof is complex, and
we rest content with a sketch. The downward Löwenheim-Skolem
theorem invokes the axiom of choice, and indeed, is equivalent to the
axiom of choice (see the entry on
the axiom of choice).
So let \(C\) be a choice function on the powerset of \(d\), so that
for each non-empty subset \(e\subseteq d, C(e)\) is a member of \(e\).
We stipulate that if \(e\) is the empty set, then \(C(e)\) is
\(C(d)\).

Let \(s\) be a variable-assignment on \(M\), let \(\theta\) be a
formula of \(\LKe\), and let \(v\) be a variable. Define the
\(v\)-*witness of* \(\theta\) *over s*, written \(w_v
(\theta,s)\), as follows: Let \(q\) be the set of all elements \(c\in
d\) such that there is a variable-assignment \(s'\) on \(M\) that
agrees with \(s\) on every variable except possibly \(v\), such that
\(M,s'\vDash \theta\), and \(s'(v)=c\). Then \(w_v (\theta,s) =
C(q)\). Notice that if \(M,s\vDash \exists v\theta\), then \(q\) is
the set of elements of the domain that can go for \(v\) in \(\theta\).
Indeed, \(M,s\vDash \exists v\theta\) if and only if \(q\) is
non-empty. So if \(M,s\vDash \exists v\theta\), then \(w_v
(\theta,s)\) (i.e., \(C(q))\) is a chosen element of the domain that
can go for \(v\) in \(\theta\). In a sense, it is a
“witness” that verifies \(M,s\vDash \exists v\theta\).

If \(e\) is a non-empty subset of the domain \(d\), then define a
variable-assignment \(s\) to be an \(e\)-*assignment* if for
all variables \(u, s(u)\) is in \(e\). That is, \(s\) is an
\(e\)-assignment if \(s\) assigns an element of \(e\) to each
variable. Define \(sk(e)\), the *Skolem-hull* of \(e\), to be
the set:

That is, the Skolem-Hull of \(e\) is the set \(e\) together with every \(v\)-witness of every formula over every \(e\)-assignment. Roughly, the idea is to start with \(e\) and then throw in enough elements to make each existentially quantified formula true. But we cannot rest content with the Skolem-hull, however. Once we throw the “witnesses” into the domain, we need to deal with \(sk(e)\) assignments. In effect, we need a set which is its own Skolem-hull, and also contains the given subset \(d_1\).

We define a sequence of non-empty sets \(e_0, e_1,\ldots\) as follows: if the given subset \(d_1\) of \(d\) is empty and there are no constants in \(K\), then let \(e_0\) be \(C(d)\), the choice function applied to the entire domain; otherwise let \(e_0\) be the union of \(d_1\) and the denotations under \(I\) of the constants in \(K\). For each natural number \(n, e_{n+1}\) is \(sk(e_n)\). Finally, let \(d'\) be the union of the sets \(e_n\), and let \(I'\) be the restriction of \(I\) to \(d'\). Our interpretation is \(M' = \langle d',I'\rangle\).

Clearly, \(d_1\) is a subset of \(d'\), and so \(M'\) is a submodel of \(M\). Let \(\kappa\) be the maximum of the size of \(K\), the size of \(d_1\), and denumerably infinite. A calculation reveals that the size of \(d'\) is at most \(\kappa\), based on the fact that there are at most \(\kappa\)-many formulas, and thus, at most \(\kappa\)-many witnesses at each stage. Notice, incidentally, that this calculation relies on the fact that a denumerable union of sets of size at most \(\kappa\) is itself at most \(\kappa\). This also relies on the axiom of choice.

The final item is to show that \(M'\) is equivalent to \(M\): For every formula \(\theta\) and every variable-assignment \(s\) on \(M'\),

\[ M,s\vDash \theta \text{ if and only if } M',s\vDash \theta. \]The proof proceeds by induction on the complexity of \(\theta\). Unfortunately, space constraints require that we leave this step as an exercise.

Another corollary to Compactness (Corollary 22) is the opposite of the Löwenheim-Skolem theorem:

**Theorem 26. Upward Löwenheim-Skolem Theorem.** Let
\(\Gamma\) be any set of sentences of \(\LKe,\) such that for each
natural number \(n\), there is an interpretation \(M_n = \langle
d_n,I_n\rangle\), such that \(d_n\) has at least \(n\) elements, and
\(M_n\) satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\). In other words,
\(\Gamma\) is satisfiable and there is no finite upper bound to the
size of the interpretations that satisfy every member of \(\Gamma\).
Then for any infinite cardinal \(\kappa\), there is an interpretation
\(M=\langle d,I\rangle\), such that the size of \(d\) is *at
least* \(\kappa\) and \(M\) satisfies every member of
\(\Gamma\).

**Proof:** Add a collection of new constants
\(\{c_{\alpha} | \alpha \lt \kappa \}\), of size \(\kappa\), to the
language, so that if \(c\) is a constant in \(K\), then \(c_{\alpha}\)
is different from \(c\), and if \(\alpha \lt \beta \lt \kappa\), then
\(c_{\alpha}\) is a different constant than \(c_{\beta}\). Consider
the set of sentences \(\Gamma'\) consisting of \(\Gamma\) together
with the set \(\{\neg c_{\alpha}=c_{\beta} | \alpha \ne \beta \}\).
That is, \(\Gamma'\) consists of \(\Gamma\) together with statements
to the effect that any two different new constants denote different
objects. Let \(\Gamma''\) be any finite subset of \(\Gamma'\), and let
\(m\) be the number of new constants that occur in \(\Gamma''\). Then
expand the interpretation \(M_m\) to an interpretation \(M_m'\) of the
new language, by interpreting each of the new constants in
\(\Gamma''\) as a different member of the domain \(d_m\). By
hypothesis, there are enough members of \(d_m\) to do this. One can
interpret the other new constants at will. So \(M_m\) is a restriction
of \(M_m'\). By hypothesis (and Theorem 15), \(M'_m\) satisfies every
member of \(\Gamma\). Also \(M'_m\) satisfies the members of \(\{\neg
c_{\alpha}=c_{\beta} | \alpha \ne \beta \}\) that are in \(\Gamma''\).
So \(M'_m\) satisfies every member of \(\Gamma''\). By compactness,
there is an interpretation \(M = \langle d,I\rangle\) such that \(M\)
satisfies every member of \(\Gamma'\). Since \(\Gamma'\) contains
every member of \(\{\neg c_{\alpha}=c_{\beta} | \alpha \ne \beta \}\),
the domain \(d\) of \(M\) must be of size at least \(\kappa\), since
each of the new constants must have a different denotation. By Theorem
15, the restriction of \(M\) to the original language \(\LKe\)
satisfies every member of \(\Gamma\).

Combined, the proofs of the downward and upward Löwenheim-Skolem
theorems show that for any satisfiable set \(\Gamma\) of sentences, if
there is no finite bound on the models of \(\Gamma\), then for any
infinite cardinal \(\kappa\), there is a model of \(\Gamma\) whose
domain has size *exactly* \(\kappa\). Moreover, if \(M\) is any
interpretation whose domain is infinite, then for any infinite
cardinal \(\kappa\), there is an interpretation \(M'\) whose domain
has size exactly \(\kappa\) such that \(M\) and \(M'\) are
equivalent.

These results indicate a weakness in the expressive resources of first-order languages like \(\LKe\). No satisfiable set of sentences can guarantee that its models are all denumerably infinite, nor can any satisfiable set of sentences guarantee that its models are uncountable. So in a sense, first-order languages cannot express the notion of “denumerably infinite”, at least not in the model theory. (See the entry on second-order and higher-order logic.)

Let \(A\) be any set of sentences in a first-order language \(\LKe\),
where \(K\) includes terminology for arithmetic, and assume that every
member of \(A\) is true of the natural numbers. We can even let \(A\)
be the set of all sentences in \(\LKe\) that are true of the natural
numbers. Then \(A\) has uncountable models, indeed models of any
infinite cardinality. Such interpretations are among those that are
sometimes called *unintended*, or *non-standard* models
of arithmetic. Let \(B\) be any set of first-order sentences that are
true of the real numbers, and let \(C\) be any first-order
axiomatization of set theory. Then if \(B\) and \(C\) are satisfiable
(in infinite interpretations), then each of them has denumerably
infinite models. That is, any first-order, satisfiable set theory or
theory of the real numbers, has (unintended) models the size of the
natural numbers. This is despite the fact that a sentence (seemingly)
stating that the universe is uncountable is provable in most
set-theories. This situation, known as the *Skolem paradox*,
has generated much discussion, but we must refer the reader elsewhere
for a sample of it (see the entry on
Skolem’s paradox
and Shapiro 1996).

## 6. The One Right Logic?

Surely, logic has something to do with correct reasoning, or at least correct deductive reasoning. The details of the connection are subtle, and controversial – see Harman [1984] for an influential study. It is common to say that someone has reasoned poorly if they have not reasoned logically, or that a given (deductive) argument is bad, and must be retracted, if it is shown to be invalid.

Some philosophers and logicians have maintained that there is a single logical system that is uniquely correct, in its role of characterizing validity. Among those, some, perhaps most, favor classical, first-order logic as uniquely correct, as the One True Logic. See, for example, Quine [1986], Resnik [1996], Rumfitt [2015], Williamson [2017], and a host of others.

That classical, first-order logic should be given this role is perhaps not surprising. It has rules which are more or less intuitive, and is simple for how strong it is. As we have seen in section 5, classical, first-order logic has interesting and important meta-theoretic properties, such as soundness and completeness, that have lead to many important mathematical and logical studies.

However, as noted, the main meta-theoretic properties of classical,
first-order logic lead to expressive *limitations* of the
formal languages and model-theoretic semantics. Key notions, like
finitude, countability, minimal closure, natural number, and the like
cannot be expressed.

Barwise [1985, 5] once remarked:

As logicians, we do our subject a disservice by convincing others that logic is first-order and then convincing them that almost none of the concepts of modern mathematics can really be captured in first-order logic.

And Wang [1974, 154]:

When we are interested in set theory or classical analysis, the Löwenheim-Skolem theorem is usually taken as a sort of defect... of the first-order logic... [W]hat is established [by these theorems] is not that first-order logic is the only possible logic but rather that it is the only possible logic when we in a sense deny reality to the concept of [the] uncountable...

Other criticisms of classical, first-order logic have also been lodged. There are issues with its ability to deal with certain paradoxes (see, for example, the entry on Russel’s paradox ), its apparent overgeneration of beliefs (see the entry on (the normative status of logic), and some argue that it has some arguments that do not match with the way we normally think we think (see for example, the entry on relevance logic).

There are two main options available to those who are critical of classical, first-order logic, as the One True Logic. One is to propose some other logic as the One True Logic. Priest [2006a] describes the methodology one might use to settle in the One True Logic.

The other main option is to simply deny that there is a single logic
that qualifies as the One True Logic. One instance of this is a kind
of *logical nihilism*, a thesis that there is no correct logic.
Another is a *logical pluralism*, the thesis that a variety of
different logical all qualify as correct, or best, or even the true
logic, at least in various contexts.

Of course, this is not the place to pursue this matter in detail. See Beall and Restall [2006] and Shapiro [2014] for examples of pluralism, and the entry on logical pluralism for an overview of the terrain for both logical pluralism and logical nihilism.

We close with brief sketches of some of the main alternatives to classical, first-order logic, providing references to other work and entries to this Encyclopedia. See also the second half of Shapiro and Kouri Kissel [2022].

### 6.1 Rivals to classical, first-order logic

#### Approximations

In recent years, some work has been done to "approximate" classical logic. The idea is to get as close to classical logic as possible, in order to preserve some of the benefits, while at the same time removing some limitations of classical logic, like being closer to intuitive inference or applying to things like vagueness and paradoxes.

For example, Barrio, Pailos and Szmuc [2020] show that we can approximate classical logic in something called the ST-hierarchy (ST for strict-tolerant, from Cobreros, Egre, Ripley and van Rooij [2012a,b]). This allows them to avoid certain classical problems at each level of the hierarchy, like some of the paradoxes, while at the same time maintaining many of the benefits of the strength of classical logic when considering the full hierarchy.

Dave Ripley [2013] provides a multi-sequent calculus version of “classical logic” that he argues solves some of the paradoxes. Notably, he claims it solves at least the Sorites and Liar Paradoxes (see the entries on the sorites paradox and liar Paradox). The system conservatively extends classical logic. Ripley claims that this is what makes it classical. However, the system is not transitive, and does not have a Cut rule.

There are, of course, some questions about whether these new logics
are *really* classical, but it is informative work
nonetheless.

#### Expansions

One way to extend classical, first-order logic is to add additional
operators to the underlying formal language. *Modal logic* adds
operators which designate necessity and possibility. So, we can say
that a proposition is possibly true, or necessarily true, rather than
just true.

W. V. O Quine [1953] once argued that it is not coherent for quantifiers to bind variables inside modal operators, but opinion on this matter has since changed considerably (see, for example, Barcan [1990]). There is now a thriving industry of developing modal logics to capture various kinds of modality and temporal operators. See the entry on modal logic.

All of the formal languages sketched above have only one sort of
variable. These are sometimes called *first-order* variables.
Each interpretation of the language has a domain, which is the range
of these first-order variables. It is what the language is about,
according to the given interpretation. *Second-order* variables
range over properties, sets, classes, relations, or functions of the
items in that domain. *Third-order* variables range over
properties, classes, relations of whatever is in the range of the
second-order variables. And it goes on from there.

A formal language is called *second-order* if it has
second-order variables and first-order variables, and no others;
*Third-order* if it has third-order, second-order, and
first-order variables and no others, etc. A formal language is
*higher-order* if it is at least second-order.

As noted, it is not an exaggeration to say that classical, first-order logic is the paradigm of contemporary logical theory. Most textbooks do not mention higher-order languages at all, and most of the rest give it scant treatment.

A number of different deductive systems and model-theoretic semantics have been proposed for second- and higher-order languages. For the semantics, the main additional feature of the model-theory is to specify a range of the higher-order variables.

In *Henkin semantics*, each interpretation specifies a specific
range of the higher-order variables. For monadic second-order
variables, each interpretation specifies a non-empty subset of the
powerset of the domain, for two-place second-order variables, a
non-empty set of ordered pairs of members of the domain, etc. The
system has all of the above limitative meta-theoretic results. There
is a deductive system that is sound and complete for Henkin semantics;
the logic is compact; and the downward and upward
Löwenheim-Skolem theorems all hold.

In so-called *standard semantics*, sometimes called *full
semantics*, monadic second-order variables range over the entire
powerset of the domain; two-place second-order variables range over
the entire class of ordered pairs of members of the domain, etc. It
can be shown that second-order languages, with standard semantics, can
characterize many mathematical notions and structures, up to
isomorphism. Examples include the notions of finitude, countability,
well-foundedness, minimal closure, and structures like the natural
numbers, the real numbers, and the complex numbers. As a result, none
of the limitative theorems of classical, first-order logic hold: there
is no effective deductive system is both sound and complete, the logic
is not compact, and both Löwenheim-Skolem theorems fail. Some,
such as Quine [1986], argue that second-order logic, with standard
semantics is not really logic, but is a form of mathematics, set
theory in particular. For more on this, see Shapiro [1991] and the
entry on
higher-order logic,
along with the many references cited there.

One might also consider generalized quantifiers as an expansion of classical first-order logic (see the entry on generalized quantifiers). These quantifiers allow from an expansion between the classical “all” and “some” , and can accommodate quantifiers like “most” , “less than half” , “usually” , etc. They are useful from both a logical and linguistic perspective. For example, Kennedy and Väänänen [2021] use generalized quantifiers to argue that “ uncountable” is a logical notion.

### 6.2 Sublogics of classical, first-order logic

Some philosophers and logicians argue that classical, first-order logic is too strong: it declares that some argument-forms are valid which are not. Here we sketch two kinds of proposals.

#### Intuitionistic logic

Advocates of *intuitionistic logic* reject the validity of the
(so-called) Law of Excluded Middle:

and other inferences related to this, such as Double Negation Elimination (DNE):

\[ {\rm If}\ \Gamma \vdash \neg\neg\Phi \ {\rm then}\ \Gamma \vdash \Phi \]
Roughly speaking, there are two main motivations for these
restrictions. The traditional intuitionists L. E. J. Brouwer (e.g.,
[1964a], [1964b]) and Arend Heyting (e.g. [1956]) held that the
essence of mathematics is idealized mental construction. Consider, for
example, the proposition that for every natural number \(n\), there is
a prime number \(m \gt n\) such that \(m \lt n!+2\). For Brouwer, this
proposition invokes a *procedure* that, given any natural
number \(n\), produces a prime number \(m\) that is greater than \(n\)
but less than \(n!+2\). The proposition expresses the existence of
such a procedure. Given this orientation, we have no reason to hold
that for any mathematical proposition \(\Phi\), we can establish
either the procedure associated with \(\Phi\) or the procedure
associated with \(\neg \Phi\).

Michael Dummett (e.g., [1978]) provides general arguments concerning how language functions, as a vehicle of communication, to argue that intuitionistic logic is uniquely correct, the One True Logic, not just for mathematics.

For an overview of intuitionistic logic, and its philosophical motivation, see the entry on intuitionistic logic.

#### Relevance and paraconsistency

This time the target inference, to be declared invalid, is the one we
above call *ex falso quodlibet*, abbreviated (EFQ):
\[
{\rm If} \ \Gamma_1 \vdash \Theta \ {\rm and} \ \Gamma_2 \vdash \neg\Theta \ {\rm then} \ \Gamma_1, \Gamma_2 \vdash \Psi
\]
We can focus attention one kind of instance of this:
\[
\Phi, \neg\Phi \vdash \Psi,
\]
sometimes colorfully called “explosion”. It
says that anything at all follows from a contradiction.

Logics that regard (EFQ) as invalid are called
*paraconsistent*. Broadly speaking, there are two camps of
logicians advocating for paraconsistent systems, either as candidates
for the One True Logic or as instances of pluralism. One camp consists
of logicians who insist that in a valid argument, the premises must be
*relevant* to the conclusion. Typically, relevance logicians
also demur from certain classical logical truths called *paradoxes
of material implication*, such as \((\Phi \rightarrow (\Psi
\rightarrow \Phi))\) and \((\Phi \rightarrow (\Psi \rightarrow
\Psi))\).

For more, see the entry on relevance logic, or Kerr [2019]. Classic works include Anderson and Belnap [1975], Anderson Belnap and Dunn [1992], and Read [1988]. Neil Tennant’s [2017] core logic is both relevant and intuitionistic.

The other main camp of logicians who prefer a paraconsistent logic (or
paraconsistent logics) are advocates of *dialetheism*, the view
that some contradictions, some sentences in the form
\[
(\Phi \wedge \neg \Phi),
\]
are
true. One supposed example is when \(\Phi\) is a statement of a
semantic paradoxes, such as the Liar. Consider, for example, a
sentence \(\Phi\) that says that \(\Phi\) is not true.

In a system in which (EFQ) holds, any true contradiction would entail every sentence of the formal language, thus rendering the language and theory trivial. So, clearly, any logic for dialetheism would have to be paraconsistent. See the entry on dialetheism. The classic work here is Priest [2006a].

Of course, the small sample presented here does not include every logical system proposed as a rival to classical, first-order logic, again either as a candidate for the One True Logic, or as a further instance of logical pluralism. See, for example, the entries on substructural logics, fuzzy logic, and many others.

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*Foundations without Foundationalism*, Oxford: Clarendon Press. - –––, 1996,
*The limits of logic: Second-order logic and the Skolem paradox*,*The international research library of philosophy*, Dartmouth Publishing Company, 1996. (An anthology containing many of the significant later papers on the Skolem paradox.) - –––, 1998, “Logical consequence: models
and modality”, in
*The philosophy of mathematics today*, edited by M. Schirn, Oxford: Oxford University Press, 131–156. - –––, 2014,
*Varieties of Logic*, Oxford: Oxford University Press. - Shapiro, Stewart and Teresa Kouri Kissel,
*Classical, first order logic, Cambridge Elements*, Cambridge, Cambridge University Press. - Tennant, Neil, 1997,
*The taming of the true*, Oxford: Clarendon Press. - Van Heijenoort, Jean, 1967,
*From Frege to Gödel*, Cambridge, Massachusetts: Harvard University Press. An anthology containing many of the major historical papers on mathematical logic in the early decades of the twentieth century. - Wang, Hao, 1974,
*From Mathematics to Philosophy*, London, Routledge and Kegan Paul. - Williamson, Timothy, 2017, “Semantic paradoxes and abductive
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*Reflections on the liar*edited by Bradley Armour-Garb, Oxford, Oxford University Press, 325–346.

### Further Reading

There are many fine textbooks on mathematical logic. A sample follows.

- Boolos, George S., John P. Burgess, and Richard C. Jeffrey, 2007,
*Computability and logic*, fifth edition, Cambridge, England: Cambridge University Press. Elementary and intermediate level. - Bergmann, Merrie, James Moor, and Jack Nelson, 2013,
*The logic book*, sixth edition, New York: McGraw-Hill. Elementary and intermediate level. - Church, Alonzo, 1956,
*Introduction to mathematical logic*, Princeton: Princeton University Press. Classic textbook. - Enderton, Herbert, 1972,
*A mathematical introduction to logic*, New York: Academic Press. Textbook in mathematical logic, aimed at a mathematical audience. - Forbes, Graeme, 1994,
*Modern Logic*, Oxford: Oxford University Press. Elementary textbook. - Mendelson, Elliott, 1987,
*Introduction to mathematical logic*, third edition, Princeton: van Nostrand. Intermediate.

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