# The Axiom of Choice

*First published Tue Jan 8, 2008; substantive revision Fri Dec 10, 2021*

The principle of set theory known as the *Axiom of Choice* has
been hailed as “probably the most interesting and, in spite of
its late appearance, the most discussed axiom of mathematics, second
only to Euclid’s axiom of parallels which was introduced more than two
thousand years ago” (Fraenkel, Bar-Hillel & Levy 1973,
§II.4). The fulsomeness of this description might lead those
unfamiliar with the axiom to expect it to be as startling as, say, the
Principle of the Constancy of the Velocity of Light or the Heisenberg
Uncertainty Principle. But in fact the Axiom of Choice as it is
usually stated appears humdrum, even self-evident. For it amounts to
nothing more than the claim that, given any collection of mutually
disjoint nonempty sets, it is possible to assemble a new set—a
*transversal* or *choice set*—containing exactly
one element from each member of the given collection. Nevertheless,
this seemingly innocuous principle has far-reaching mathematical
consequences—many indispensable, some startling—and
has come to figure prominently in discussions on the foundations of
mathematics. It (or its equivalents) have been employed in countless
mathematical papers, and a number of monographs have been exclusively
devoted to it.

- 1. Origins and Chronology of the Axiom of Choice
- 2. Independence and Consistency of the Axiom of Choice
- 3. Maximal Principles and Zorn’s Lemma
- 4. Mathematical Applications of the Axiom of Choice
- 5. The Axiom of Choice and Logic
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Origins and Chronology of the Axiom of Choice

In 1904 Ernst Zermelo formulated the Axiom of Choice (abbreviated as
*AC* throughout this article) in terms of what he called
*coverings* (Zermelo 1904). He starts with an arbitrary set
\(M\) and uses the symbol \(M'\) to denote an
arbitrary nonempty subset of \(M\), the collection of which he
denotes by M. He continues:

Imagine that with every subset \(M'\) there is associated an arbitrary element \(m_{1}'\), that occurs in \(M'\) itself; let \(m_{1}'\) be called the “distinguished” element of \(M'\). This yields a “covering” \(g\) of the set \(M\) by certain elements of the set \(M\). The number of these coverings is equal to the product [of the cardinalities of all the subsets \(M'\)] and is certainly different from 0.

The last sentence of this quotation—which asserts, in effect,
that coverings always exist for the collection of nonempty subsets of
any (nonempty) set—is Zermelo’s first formulation of
the Axiom of
Choice^{[1]}.
This is now usually stated in terms of *choice functions*:
here a choice function on a collection \(\sH\)
of nonempty sets is a map \(f\) with domain
\(\sH\)
such that \(f(X) \in X\) for every \(X \in \sH\).

As a very simple example, let \(\sH\) be the collection of nonempty subsets of \(\{0, 1\}\), i.e., \(\sH = \{\{0\}, \{1\}, \{0,1\}\}\). Then \(\sH\) has the two distinct choice functions \(f_{1}\) and \(f_{2}\) given by:

\begin{align} f_{1}(\{0\}) &= 0 \\ f_{1}(\{1\}) &= 1 \\ f_{1}(\{0, 1\}) &= 0 \\ f_{2}(\{0\}) &= 0 \\ f_{2}(\{1\}) &= 1 \\ f_{2}(\{0, 1\}) &= 1 \end{align}A more interesting example of a choice function is provided by taking \(\sH\) to be the set of (unordered) pairs of real numbers and the function to be that assigning to each pair its least element. A different choice function is obtained by assigning to each pair its greatest element. Clearly many more choice functions on \(\sH\) can be defined.

Stated in terms of choice functions, Zermelo’s first formulation of
*AC* reads:

**AC1**:

Any collection of nonempty sets has a choice function.

**AC1** can be reformulated in terms of *indexed*
or *variable sets*. An indexed collection of sets
\(\sA = \{A_{i}: i \in I\}\)
may be conceived as a *variable set*, to wit, as a set
*varying* over the index set \(I\). Each
\(A_{i}\) is then the “value” of the
variable set \(\sA\)
at *stage* \(i\). A *choice function* on
\(\sA\) is a map \(f: I \rightarrow \bigcup_{i\in I} A_{i}\) such that
\(f(i) \in A_{i}\) for all \(i\in I\). A choice function on
\(\sA\) is thus a “choice” of an element of the variable set
\(\sA\) at each stage; in other words, a choice function on
\(\sA\) is a *variable element* of \(\sA\).
**AC1** is then equivalent to the assertion

**AC2**:

Any indexed collection of sets has a choice function.

Informally speaking, **AC2** amounts to the assertion
that a variable set with an element at each stage has a variable
element.

**AC1** can also be reformulated in terms of
relations, viz.

**AC3**:

For any relation \(R\) between sets \(A\), \(B\),

In other words, every relation contains a function having the same domain.

Finally **AC3 ** is easily shown to be equivalent
(in the usual set theories)
to:^{[2]}

**AC4**:

Any surjective function has a right inverse.

In a 1908 paper Zermelo introduced a modified form of *AC*. Let
us call a *transversal* (or *choice set*) for a family
of sets \(\sH\) any subset
\(T \subseteq \bigcup \sH\)
for which each intersection \(T \cap X\) for
\(X \in \sH\)
has exactly one element. As a very simple example, let
\(\sH = \{\{0\}, \{1\}, \{2, 3\}\}\). Then
\(\sH\)
has the two transversals \(\{0, 1, 2\}\) and \(\{0, 1, 3\}\).
A more substantial example is afforded by letting
\(\sH\) be the collection of all lines in the Euclidean plane parallel to the
\(x\)-axis. Then the set \(T\) of points on the \(y\)-axis is a
transversal for \(\sH\).

Stated in terms of transversals, then, Zermelo’s second (1908)
formulation of *AC* amounts to the assertion that any family of
mutually disjoint nonempty sets has a
transversal.^{[3]}

Zermelo asserts that “the purely objective character” of
this principle “is immediately evident.” In making this
assertion Zermelo meant to emphasize the fact that in this form the
principle makes no appeal to the possibility of making
“choices”. It may also be that Zermelo had the following
“combinatorial” justification of the principle in
mind. Given a family \(\sH\) of mutually disjoint nonempty sets, call
a subset \(S \subseteq \bigcup \sH\) a *selector* for \(\sH\)
if \(S\cap X \ne \varnothing\) for all \(X \in \sH\). Clearly
selectors for \(\sH\) exist; \(\bigcup \sH\) itself is an example. Now
one can imagine taking a selector \(S\) for \(\sH\) and
“thinning out” each intersection \(S \cap X\) for \(X\in
\sH\) until it contains just a single element. The result is a
transversal for \(\sH\). This argument, suitably refined, yields a
precise derivation of
*AC* in this formulation from the set-theoretical
principle known as *Zorn’s lemma* (see below).

Let us call Zermelo’s 1908 formulation the *combinatorial*
axiom of choice:

**CAC**:

Any collection of mutually disjoint nonempty sets has a
transversal.

It is to be noted that **AC1** and **CAC**
for *finite* collections of sets are both provable (by
induction) in the usual set theories. But in the case of an
*infinite* collection, even when each of its members is finite,
the question of the existence of a choice function or a transversal is
problematic^{[4]}.
For example, as already mentioned, it is easy to come up with a
choice function for the collection of pairs of real numbers (simply
choose the smaller element of each pair). But it is by no means
obvious how to produce a choice function for the collection of pairs
of *arbitrary sets* of real numbers.

Zermelo’s original purpose in introducing *AC* was to
establish a central principle of Cantor’s set theory, namely, that
every set admits a well-ordering and so can also be assigned a
cardinal number. Zermelo’s 1904 introduction of the axiom, as well as
the use to which he put it, provoked considerable criticism from the
mathematicians of the day. The chief objection raised was to what
some saw as its highly non-constructive, even idealist, character:
while the axiom asserts the possibility of making a number
of—perhaps even an uncountable number—of arbitrary
“choices”, it gives no indication whatsoever of how these
latter are actually to be effected, of how, otherwise put, choice
functions are to be *defined*. This was particularly
objectionable to mathematicians of a “constructive” bent
such as the so-called French Empiricists Baire, Borel and Lebesgue,
for whom a mathematical object could be asserted to exist only if it
can be defined in such a way as to characterize it uniquely.
Zermelo’s response to his critics came in the form in two papers in
1908. In the first of these, as remarked above, he
reformulated *AC* in terms of transversals; in the second
(1908a) he made explicit the further assumptions needed to carry
through his proof of the well-ordering theorem. These assumptions
constituted the first explicit presentation of an axiom system for set
theory.

As the debate concerning the Axiom of Choice rumbled on, it became
apparent that the proofs of a number of significant mathematical
theorems made essential use of it, thereby leading many mathematicians
to treat it as an indispensable tool of their trade. Hilbert, for
example, came to regard *AC* as an essential principle of
mathematics^{[5]} and
employed it in his defence of classical mathematical reasoning against
the attacks of the intuitionists. Indeed his ε-operators are
essentially just choice functions (see the entry on the
epsilon calculus).

Although the usefulness of *AC* quickly become clear,
doubts about its soundness remained. These doubts were reinforced by
the fact that it had certain strikingly counterintuitive
consequences. The most spectacular of these was Banach
and Tarski’s *paradoxical decompositions of the sphere*
(Banach and Tarski 1924): any solid sphere can be split into finitely
many pieces which can be reassembled to form two solid spheres of the
same size; and any solid sphere can be split into finitely many
pieces in such a way as to enable them to be reassembled to form a
solid sphere of arbitrary size. (See Wagon 1993.)

It was not until the middle 1930s that the question of the soundness
of *AC* was finally put to rest with Kurt Gödel’s
proof of its consistency relative to the other axioms of set theory.

Here is a brief chronology of
*AC*:^{[6]}

1904/1908 | Zermelo introduces axioms of set theory, explicitly formulates AC
and uses it to prove the well-ordering theorem,
thereby raising a storm of controversy. |

1904 | Russell recognizes AC as the multiplicative
axiom: the product of arbitrary nonzero cardinal numbers is
nonzero. |

1914 | Hausdorff derives from AC the existence of
nonmeasurable sets in the “paradoxical”
form that \(\bfrac{1}{2}\) of a sphere is congruent to \(\bfrac{1}{3}\) of it
(Hausdorff 1914). |

1922 | Fraenkel introduces the “permutation method” to
establish independence of AC from a system of set
theory with atoms (Fraenkel 1922). |

1924 | Building on the work of Hausdorff, Banach and Tarski derive from
AC their paradoxical decompositions of the sphere. |

1926 | Hilbert introduces into his proof theory the
“transfinite” or “epsilon” axiom as a version
of AC . (Hilbert 1926). |

1936 | Lindenbaum and Mostowski extend and refine Fraenkel’s permutation
method, and prove the independence of various statements of set theory
weaker than AC . (Lindenbaum and Tarski 1938) |

1935–38 | Gödel establishes relative consistency of
AC with the
axioms of set theory (Gödel 1938a, 1938b, 1939, 1940). |

1950s | Mendelson, Shoenfield and Specker, working independently, use the
permutation method to establish the independence of various forms of AC
from a system of set theory without atoms, but
also lacking the axiom of foundation (Mendelson 1956, 1958,
Shoenfield 1955, Specker 1957). |

1963 | Paul Cohen proves independence of AC from the standard
axioms of set theory (Cohen 1963, 1964). |

## 2. Independence and Consistency of the Axiom of Choice

As stated above, in 1922 Fraenkel proved the independence of
*AC* from a system of set theory containing
“atoms”. Here by an *atom* is meant a pure
individual, that is, an entity having no members and yet distinct from
the empty set (so *a fortiori* an atom cannot be a set). In a
system of set theory with atoms it is assumed that one is given an
infinite set \(A\) of atoms. One can build a
universe \(V(A)\) of sets over \(A\) by starting
with \(A\), adding all the subsets of \(A\), adjoining all
the subsets of the result, etc., and iterating
transfinitely. \(V(A)\) is then a model of set theory
with atoms. The kernel of Fraenkel’s method for proving the
independence of *AC* is the observation that, since atoms
cannot be set-theoretically distinguished, any permutation of the set
\(A\) of atoms induces a structure-preserving
permutation—an *automorphism*—of the universe
\(V(A)\) of sets built from \(A\). This idea may be
used to construct another model \(Sym(V)\) of
set theory—a *permutation* or *symmetric model*—in
which a set of mutually disjoint pairs of elements of \(A\) has
no choice function.

Now let us suppose that we are given a group \(G\) of
automorphisms of \(A\). Let us say that an automorphism \(\pi\); of
\(A\) *fixes* an element \(x\) of
\(V(A)\) if \(\pi(x) = x\). Clearly, if
\(\pi \in G\) fixes every element of \(A\), it also
fixes every element of \(V(A)\). Now it may be the case
that, for certain elements \(x \in V(A)\),
the fixing of the elements of a *subset* of \(A\) by any
\(\pi\in G\) suffices to fix \(x\). We are therefore
led to define a *support* for \(x\) to be a subset
\(X\) of \(A\) such that, whenever \(\pi\in G\)
fixes each member of \(X\), it also fixes \(x\). Members of
\(V(A)\) possessing a *finite* support are called
*symmetric*.

We next define the universe \(Sym(V)\) to consist of the
*hereditarily symmetric* members of \(V(A)\),
that is, those \(x\in V(A)\) such that
\(x\), the elements of \(x\), the elements of elements of
\(x\), etc., are all symmetric. \(Sym(V)\) is also
a model of set theory with set of atoms \(A\), and \(\pi\) induces
an automorphism of \(Sym(V)\).

Now suppose \(A\) to be partitioned into a (necessarily infinite) mutually disjoint set \(P\) of pairs. Take \(G\) to be the group of permutations of \(A\) which fix all the pairs in \(P\). Then \(P\in Sym(V)\); it can now be shown that \(Sym(V)\) contains no choice function on \(P\). For suppose \(f\) were a choice function on \(P\) and \(f \in Sym(V)\). Then \(f\) has a finite support which may be taken to be of the form \(\{a_{1}, \ldots, a_{n}, b_{1},\ldots,b_{n}\} with each pair \{a_{i}, b_{i}\} \in P\). Since \(P\) is infinite, we may select a pair \(\{c, d\} = U\) from \(P\) different from all the \(\{a_{i}, b_{i}\}\). Now we define \(\pi \in G\) so that \(\pi\) fixes each \(a_{i}\) and \(b_{i}\) and interchanges \(c\) and \(d\). Then \(\pi\) also fixes \(f\). Since \(f\) was supposed to be a choice function on \(P\), and \(U \in P\), we must have \(f(U) \in U\), that is, \(f(U) = c\) or \(f(U) = d\). Since \(\pi\) interchanges \(c\) and \(d\), it follows that \(\pi(f(U)) \ne f(U)\). But since \(\pi\) is an automorphism, it also preserves function application, so that \(\pi(f(U)) = \pi f(\pi(U))\). But \(\pi(U) = U\) and \(\pi f = f\), whence \(\pi(f(U)) = f(U)\). We have duly arrived at a contradiction, showing that the universe \(Sym(V)\) contains no choice function on \(P\).

The point here is that for a symmetric function \(f\) defined on
\(P\) there is a finite list \(L\) of pairs from \(P\)
the fixing of all of whose elements suffices to fix \(f\), and
hence also all the values of \(f\). Now, for any pair \(U\)
in \(P\) but not in \(L\) , a permutation \(\pi\) can always be
found which fixes all the elements of the pairs in \(L\), but
does not fix the members of \(U\). Since \(\pi\) must fix the value
of \(f\) at \(U\), that value cannot lie in \(U\).
Therefore \(f\) cannot “choose” an element of
\(U\), so *a fortiori* \(f\) cannot be a choice function on
\(P\).

This argument shows that collections of *sets of atoms* need
not necessarily have choice functions, but it fails to establish the
same fact for the “usual” sets of mathematics, for example
the set of real numbers. This had to wait until 1963 when Paul Cohen
showed that it is consistent with the standard axioms of set theory
(which preclude the existence of atoms) to assume that a countable
collection of pairs of sets of real numbers fails to have a choice
function. The core of Cohen’s method of proof—the celebrated
method of *forcing*—was vastly more general than any
previous technique; nevertheless his independence proof also made
essential use of permutation and symmetry in essentially the form in
which Fraenkel had originally employed them.

Gödel’s proof of the relative consistency of *AC*
with the axioms of set theory (see the entry on
Kurt Gödel)
rests on an entirely different idea: that of
*definability*. He introduced a new hierarchy of
sets—the *constructible* hierarchy—by analogy with the
cumulative type hierarchy. We recall that the latter is defined by the
following recursion on the ordinals, where \(\sP(X)\) is
the power set of \(X\), \(\alpha\) is an ordinal, and \(\lambda\) is
a limit ordinal::

The constructible hierarchy is defined by a similar recursion on the
ordinals, where \(\Def(X)\) is the set of all subsets of
\(X\) which are first-order definable in the structure
\((X, \in, (x)_{x\in X})\):^{[7]}

The *constructible universe* is the class
\(L = \bigcup_{\alpha\in \Ord} L_{\alpha}\); the members of \(L\) are the
*constructible sets*. Gödel showed that (assuming the
axioms of Zermelo-Fraenkel set theory **ZF**) the
structure \((L, \in)\) is a model of **ZF** and
also of *AC* as well as the Generalized Continuum
Hypothesis). The relative consistency of *AC* with
**ZF** follows.

It was also observed by Gödel (1964) (and, independently, by
Myhill and Scott 1971, Takeuti 1963 and Post 1951) that a simpler
proof of the relative consistency of *AC* can be
formulated in terms of *ordinal definability*. If we write
\(\rD(X)\) for the set of all subsets of \(X\) which are
first-order definable in the structure \((X, \in)\), then the
class OD of *ordinal definable sets* is defined to be the
union \(\bigcup_{\alpha\in \Ord} D(V_{\alpha})\).
The class HOD of *hereditarily ordinal definable sets*
consists of all sets \(a\) for which \(a\), the members of
\(a\), the members of members of \(a\), … etc., are
all ordinal definable. It can then be shown that the structure (HOD,
\(\in\)) is a model of **ZF** + *AC* , from
which the relative consistency of *AC* with
**ZF** again
follows.^{[8]}

## 3. Maximal Principles and Zorn’s Lemma

The Axiom of Choice is closely allied to a group of mathematical
propositions collectively known as *maximal principles*.
Broadly speaking, these propositions assert that certain conditions
are sufficient to ensure that a partially ordered set contains at
least one *maximal element*, that is, an element such that,
with respect to the given partial ordering, no element strictly
exceeds it.

To see the connection between the idea of a maximal element and
*AC*, let us return to the latter’s formulation
**AC2** in terms of indexed sets. Accordingly suppose we
are given an indexed family of nonempty sets \(\sA = \{A_{i}:i \in
I\}.\) Let us define a *potential choice function* on \(\sA\)
to be a function \(f\) whose domain is a subset of \(I\) such that
\(f(i) \in A_{i}\) for all \(i\in J\). (Here the use of the
qualifier *potential* is suggested by the fact that the domain
is a subset of \(I\); recall that a choice function \(f\) on \(\sA\)
has the same properties as what we are now calling potential choice
functions except that the domain of \(f\) is required to be all of
\(I\), not just a subset.) The set \(P\) of potential choice functions
on \(\sA\) can be partially ordered by inclusion: we agree that, for
potential choice functions \(f, g \in P\), the relation \(f \le g\)
holds provided that the domain of \(f\) is included in that of \(g\)
and the value of \(f\) at an element of its domain coincides with the
value of \(g\) there. It is now easy to see that the maximal elements
of \(P\) with respect to the partial ordering \(\le\) are precisely
the choice functions on \(\sA\).

*Zorn’s Lemma *is the best-known principle ensuring the
existence of such maximal elements. To state it, we need a few
definitions. Given a partially ordered set \((P, \le)\), an
*upper bound* for a subset \(X\) of \(P\) is an element \(a\in
P\) for which \(x\le a\) for every \(x\in X\); a *maximal
element* of \(P\) may then be defined as an element \(a\) for
which the set of upper bounds of \(\{a\}\) coincides with \(\{a\}\),
which essentially means that no element of \(P\) is strictly larger
than \(a\). A *chain* in \((P,\le)\) is a subset \(C\) of \(P\)
such that, for any \(x\), \(y\in P\), either \(x\le y\) or \(y\le x\).
\(P\) is said to be *inductive* if every chain in \(P\)
has an upper bound. Now Zorn’s Lemma asserts:

**Zorn’s Lemma** (**ZL**):

Every nonempty inductive
partially ordered set has a maximal element.

Why is Zorn’s Lemma plausible? Here is an informal argument. Given a nonempty inductive partially ordered set \((P,\le)\), pick an arbitrary element \(p_{0}\) of \(P\). If \(p_{0}\) is maximal, stop there. Otherwise pick an element \(p_{1} \gt p_{0}\); if \(p_{1}\) is maximal, stop there. Otherwise pick an element \(p_{2} \gt p_{1}\), and repeat the process. If none of the elements \(p_{0} \lt p_{1} \lt p_{2} \lt \ldots \lt p_{n} \lt \ldots\) is maximal, the \(p_{i}\) form a chain which, since \(P\) is inductive, has an upper bound \(q_{0}\). If \(q_{0}\) is maximal, stop there. Otherwise the procedure can be repeated with \(q_{0} \lt q_{1}\), …, and then iterated. This process must eventually terminate, since otherwise the union of the chains so generated would constitute a proper class, making \(P\) itself a proper class contrary to assumption. The point at which the process terminates yields a maximal element of \(P\).

This argument, suitably rigorized, gives a
proof^{[9]}
of **ZL** from **AC1** in Zermelo-Fraenkel
set theory: in this proof **AC1** is used to
“pick” the elements referred to in the informal
argument.

Another version of Zorn’s Lemma can be given in terms of
collections of sets. Given a collection \(\sH\) of sets, let us call
a *nest* in \(\sH\) any subcollection \(\sN\) of \(\sH\) such
that, for any pair of members of \(\sN\), one is included in the
other.^{[10]}
Call \(\sH\) *strongly inductive* if the union of any nest in
\(\sH\) is a member of \(\sH\). Zorn’s Lemma may then be
equivalently restated as the assertion that any nonempty strongly
inductive collection \(\sH\) of sets has a maximal member, that is, a
member properly included in no member of \(\sH\). This may in turn be
formulated in a dual form. Call a family of sets
*strongly reductive* if it is closed under intersections of
nests. Then any nonempty strongly reductive family of sets has a
*minimal* element, that is, a member properly including no
member of the family.

**AC2** is now easily derived from Zorn’s Lemma in
this alternative form. For the set \(P\) of potential choice functions
on an indexed family of sets \(\sA\) is clearly nonempty and is
readily shown to be strongly inductive; so Zorn’s lemma yields
the existence of a choice function on \(\sA\).

**CAC** can be derived from
**ZL** in a way echoing the “combinatorial”
justification of **CAC** sketched above. Accordingly
suppose we are given a family \(\sH\) of mutually disjoint nonempty
sets; call a subset \(S \subseteq \bigcup \sH\) a *sampling*
for \(\sH\) if, for any \(X\in \sH\), either
\(X \subseteq S\) or \(S \cap X\) is nonempty and
finite. Minimal samplings are precisely transversals for
\(\sH\);^{[11]}
and the collection \(\sT\) of samplings is clearly nonempty since it
contains \(\bigcup \sH\). So if it can be shown that \(\sT\) is
strongly
reductive,^{[12]}
Zorn’s lemma will yield a minimal element of \(\sT\) and so a
transversal for \(\sH\). The strong reductiveness of \(\sT\) may be
seen as follows: suppose that \(\{S_{i}: i\in I\}\) is a nest of
samplings; let \(S = {\bigcap}_{i\in I} S_{i}\). We need to show that
\(S\) is itself a sampling; to this end let \(X \in \sH\) and suppose
\(\neg(X \subseteq S)\). Then there is \(i \in I\) for which
\(\neg(X \subseteq S_{i})\); since \(S_{i}\) is a sampling, \(S_{i}\cap X\) is
finite and nonempty,
say \(S_{i}\cap X = \{x_{1}, \ldots, x_{n}\}\). Clearly
\(S\cap X\) is then finite; suppose for the sake of contradiction that
\(S\cap X = \varnothing\). Then for each \(k = 1,\ldots,n\) there is
\(i_k \in I\) for which \(\neg(x_k \in S_{i_k})\). It follows that
\(\neg(S_{i} \subseteq S_{i_k})\), for \(k = 1, \ldots, n\).
So, since the \(S_{i}\) form a chain, each \(S_{i_k}\) is a subset of
\(S_{i}\). Let \(S_{j}\) be the least of \(S_{i_1},\ldots, S_{i_k}\);
then \(S_{j}\subseteq S_{i}\). But since \(\neg(x_{k} \in S_{j})\),
for \(k = 1, \ldots, n\), it now follows that \(S_{j} \cap X =
\varnothing\), contradicting the fact that \(S_{j}\) is a sampling.
Therefore \(S \cap X\ne \varnothing\); and \(S\) is a sampling as
claimed.

We note that while Zorn’s lemma and the Axiom of Choice are set-theoretically equivalent, it is much more difficult to derive the former from the latter than vice-versa.

Here is a brief chronology of maximal principles.

1909 | Hausdorff introduces first explicit formulation of a maximal
principle and derives it from AC (Hausdorff 1909) |

1914 | Hausdorff’s Grundzüge der Mengenlehre (one of the
first books on set theory and general topology) includes several
maximal principles. |

1922 | Kuratowski formulates and employs several maximal principles in avoiding use of transfinite ordinals (Kuratowski 1922). |

1926–28 | Bochner and others independently introduce maximal principles (Bochner 1928, Moore 1932). |

1935 | Max Zorn, apparently unacquainted with previous formulations of
maximal principles, publishes (Zorn 1935) his definitive version
thereof later to become celebrated as his lemma
(ZL). ZL was first formulated in
Hamburg in 1933, where Chevalley and Artin quickly
“adopted” it. It seems to have been Artin who first
recognized that ZL would yield AC, so that
the two are equivalent (over the remaining axioms of set theory).
Zorn regarded his principle less as a theorem than as an
axiom—he hoped that it would supersede cumbersome
applications in algebra of transfinite induction and well-ordering,
which algebraists in the Noether school had come to regard as
“transcendental” devices. |

1939–40 | Teichmüller, Bourbaki and Tukey independently reformulate
ZL in terms of “properties of finite
character”(Bourbaki 1939, Teichmuller 1939, Tukey 1940). |

## 4. Mathematical Applications of the Axiom of Choice

The Axiom of Choice has numerous applications in mathematics, a
number of which have proved to be formally equivalent to
it^{[13]}.
Historically the most important application was the first, namely:

**The Well-Ordering Theorem** (Zermelo 1904,
1908). Every set can be well-ordered.

After Zermelo published his 1904 proof of the well-ordering theorem
from *AC*, it was quickly seen that the two are equivalent.

Another early equivalent of *AC* is

**The Multiplicative Axiom** (Russell 1906). The
product of any set of non-zero cardinal numbers is non-zero.

Early applications of *AC* include:

- Every infinite set has a denumerable subset. This principle, again
weaker than
*AC*, cannot be proved without it in the context of the remaining axioms of set theory. - Every infinite cardinal number is equal to its square. This was
proved equivalent to
*AC*in Tarski 1924. - Every vector space has a basis (initiated by Hamel 1905). This was
proved equivalent to
*AC*in Blass 1984. - Every field has an algebraic closure (Steinitz 1910). This
assertion is weaker than
*AC*, indeed is a consequence of the (weaker) compactness theorem for first-order logic (see below). - There is a Lebesgue nonmeasurable set of real numbers (Vitali
1905). This was shown much later to be a consequence of
**BPI**(see below) and hence weaker than*AC*. Solovay (1970) established its independence of the remaining axioms of set theory.

A significant “folklore” equivalent of *AC* is

**The Set-Theoretic Distributive Law**. For an
arbitrary doubly-indexed family of sets
\(\{M_{i,j}: i \in I,j \in J\}\), and where
\(J^I\) is the set of all functions with
domain \(I\) and which take values in \(J\):

A much-studied special case of *AC* is the

**Principle of Dependent Choices** (Bernays 1942, Tarski
1948). For any nonempty relation \(R\) on a set \(A\) for which
\(\range(R) \subseteq \domain(R)\), there is a function \(f: \omega
\rightarrow A\) such that, for all \(n\in \omega, R(f(n),f(n+1))\).
This principle, although (much) weaker than *AC*, cannot be
proved without it in the context of the remaining axioms of set
theory.

Mathematical equivalents of *AC* include:

**Tychonov’s Theorem**(1930): the product of compact topological spaces is compact. This was proved equivalent to*AC*in Kelley 1950. But for compact Hausdorff spaces it is equivalent to**BPI**(see below) and hence weaker than*AC***Löwenheim-Skolem-Tarski Theorem**(Löwenheim 1915, Skolem 1920, Tarski and Vaught 1957): a first-order sentence having a model of infinite cardinality \(\kappa\) also has a model of any infinite cardinality \(\mu\) such that \(\mu \le \kappa\). This was proved equivalent to*AC*by Tarski.**Krein-Milman Theorem**: the unit ball \(B\) of the dual of a real normed linear space has an extreme point, that is, one which is not an interior point of any line segment in \(B\). This was proved equivalent to*AC*in Bell and Fremlin 1972a. There it is shown that, given any indexed family \(\sA\) of nonempty sets, there is a natural bijection between choice functions on \(\sA\) and the extreme points of the unit ball of the dual of a certain real normed linear space constructed from \(\sA\).- Every distributive lattice has a maximal ideal. This was proved
equivalent to
*AC*in Klimovsky 1958, and for lattices of sets in Bell and Fremlin 1972. - Every commutative ring with identity has a maximal ideal. This was
proved equivalent to
*AC*by Hodges 1979.

There are a number of mathematical consequences of *AC*
which are known to be
weaker^{[14]}
than it, in particular:

**The Boolean Prime Ideal Theorem**(**BPI**): every Boolean algebra has a maximal (or prime) ideal. This was shown to be weaker than*AC*in Halpern and Levy 1971.**The Stone Representation Theorem for Boolean algebras**(Stone 1936): every Boolean algebra is isomorphic to a field of sets. This is equivalent to**BPI**and hence weaker than*AC***Compactness Theorem for First-Order Logic**(Gödel 1930, Malcev 1937, others): if every finite subset of a set of first-order sentences has a model, then the set has a model. This was shown, in Henkin 1954, to be equivalent to**BPI**, and hence weaker than*AC*.**Completeness Theorem for First-Order Logic**(Gödel 1930, Henkin 1954): each consistent set of first-order sentences has a model. This was shown by Henkin in 1954 to be equivalent to**BPI**, and hence weaker than*AC*. If the cardinality of the model is specified in the right way, the assertion becomes equivalent to*AC*.

Finally, there is

**The Sikorski Extension Theorem for Boolean algebras**(Sikorski 1949): every complete Boolean algebra is injective, i.e., for any Boolean algebra \(A\) and any complete Boolean algebra \(B\), any homomorphism of a subalgebra of \(A\) into \(B\) can be extended to the whole of \(A\).

The question of the equivalence of this with *AC* is one of
the few remaining interesting open questions in this area; while it
clearly implies **BPI**, it was proved independent of
**BPI** in Bell 1983.

Many of these theorems are discussed in Bell and Machover (1977).

## 5. The Axiom of Choice and Logic

An initial connection between *AC* and logic emerges by
returning to its formulation **AC3** in terms of
relations, namely: any binary relation contains a function with the
same domain. This version of **AC** is naturally
expressible within a second-order language \(L\) with individual
variables \(x\), \(y\), \(z\), … and function
variables \(f\), \(g\), \(h\), …. In \(L\),
binary relations are represented by formulas
\(\phi(x, y)\) with two free individual
variables \(x\), \(y\). The counterpart in \(L\) of the
assertion **AC3** is then

ACL:

\(\forall x \exists y \phi(x, y) \rightarrow \exists f \forall x \phi(x, fx).\)

This scheme of sentences is the standard logical form of
*AC*.

Zermelo’s original form of the Axiom of Choice,
**AC1**, can be expressed as a scheme of sentences within
a suitably strengthened version of \(L\). Accordingly we now
suppose \(L\) to contain in addition predicate
variables \(X\), \(Y\), \(Z\), … and
second-order function variables \(F\), \(G\), \(H\),
…. Here a second-order function variable \(F\) may be
applied to a predicate variable \(X\) to yield an individual term
\(FX\). The scheme of sentences

AC1L:

\(\forall X [\Phi(X) \rightarrow \exists x X(x)] \rightarrow \exists F \forall X[\Phi(X) \rightarrow X(FX)]\)

is the direct counterpart of **AC1** in this
strengthened second-order language. In words, **AC1L**
asserts that, if each predicate having a certain property
\(\Phi\) has instances, then there is a function \(F\) on
predicates such that, for any predicate \(X\) satisfying
\(\Phi\), \(FX\) is an instance of \(X\). Here
predicates are playing the role of sets.

Up to now we have tacitly assumed our background logic to be the
usual classical logic. But the true depth of the connection between
**AC** and logic emerges only when
*intuitionistic* or *constructive* logic is brought into
the picture. It is a remarkable fact that, assuming only the framework
of intuitionistic logic together with certain mild further
presuppositions, the Axiom of Choice can be shown to entail the
cardinal rule of classical logic, the law of excluded
middle—the assertion that \(A \vee \neg A\) for any proposition
\(A\). To be precise, using the rules of intuitionistic logic
within our augmented language \(L\), we shall
derive^{[15]}
the law of excluded middle from **AC1L** conjoined with
the following additional principles:

**Predicative Comprehension**:

\(\exists X \forall x[X(x) \leftrightarrow \phi(x)]\), where \(\phi\)
contains no bound function or predicate variables.

**Extensionality of Functions**:

\(\forall X \forall Y \forall F[X \approx Y \rightarrow FX = FY]\), where
\(X \approx Y\) is an abbreviation for
\(\forall x[X(x) \leftrightarrow Y(x)]\), that is, \(X\) and \(Y\) are
*extensionally equivalent*.

**Two Distinct Individuals**:

\(\uO \ne \uI\), where \(\uO\) and \(\uI\) are
individual constants.

Now let \(A\) be a given proposition. By Predicative Comprehension, we may introduce predicate constants \(U\), \(V\) together with the assertions

\begin{align} \tag{1} &\forall x[U(x) \leftrightarrow (A \vee x = 0)] \\ \notag &\forall x[V(x) \leftrightarrow (A \vee x = 1)] \end{align}
Let \(\Phi(X)\) be the formula \(X \approx U \vee X \approx V\). Then
clearly we may assert \(\forall X[\Phi(X) \rightarrow \exists xX(x)]\)
so **AC1L** may be invoked to assert \(\exists F \forall
X[\Phi(X) \rightarrow X(FX)]\). Now we can introduce a function
constant \(K\) together with the assertion

Since evidently we may assert \(\Phi(U)\) and \(\Phi(V)\), it follows from (2) that we may assert \(U(KU)\) and \(V(KV)\), whence also, using (1),

\[ [A \vee KU = 0] \wedge [A \vee KV = 1]. \]Using the distributive law (which holds in intuitionistic logic), it follows that we may assert

\[ A \vee [KU = 0 \wedge KV = 1]. \]From the presupposition that \(0 \ne 1\) it follows that

\[ \tag{3} A \vee KU \ne KV \]is assertable. But it follows from (1) that we may assert \(A \rightarrow U ≈ V\), and so also, using the Extensionality of Functions, \(A \rightarrow KU = KV\). This yields the assertability of \(KU \ne KV \rightarrow \neg A\), which, together with (3) in turn yields the assertability of

\[ A \vee \neg A \]that is, the law of excluded middle.

The fact that the Axiom of Choice implies Excluded Middle seems at
first sight to be at variance with the fact that the former is often
taken as a *valid* principle in systems of constructive
mathematics governed by intuitionistic logic, e.g. Bishop’s
Constructive Analysis^{[16]}
and Martin-Löf’s Constructive Type
Theory^{[17]}, in
which Excluded Middle is not affirmed. In Bishop’s words, “A
choice function exists in constructive mathematics because a choice is
*implied by the very meaning of existence*.” Thus, for
example, the antecedent
\(\forall x \exists y \phi(x,y)\) of **ACL**, given a
constructive construal, just *means* that we have a procedure
which, applied to each \(x\), yields a \(y\) for which
\(\phi(x, y)\). But this is precisely what is expressed by the
consequent \(\exists f \forall x \phi(x,fx)\) of **ACL**.

To resolve the difficulty, we note that in deriving Excluded Middle
from **ACL1** essential use was made of the principles of
Predicative Comprehension and Extensionality of
Functions^{[18]}.
It follows that, in systems of constructive mathematics affirming
**AC** (but not Excluded Middle) *either the principle
of Predicative Comprehension or the principle of Extensionality of
Functions must fail*. While the principle of Predicative
Comprehension can be given a constructive justification, no such
justification can be provided for the principle of Extensionality of
Functions. Functions on predicates are given intensionally, and
satisfy just the corresponding principle of Intensionality
\(\forall X \forall Y \forall F[X = Y \rightarrow FX = FY]\). The
principle of Extensionality can easily be made to fail by considering,
for example, the predicates \(P\): *rational featherless
biped* and \(Q\): *human being* and the function
\(K\) on predicates which assigns to each predicate the number of
words in its description. Then we can agree that \(P \approx
Q\) but \(KP = 3\) and \(KQ = 2\).

In intuitionistic set theory (that is, set theory based on
intuitionistic as opposed to classical logic—we shall abbreviate
this as **IST**) and in topos theory the principles of
Predicative Comprehension and Extensionality of Functions (both
appropriately construed) hold and so there **AC** implies
Excluded
Middle.^{[19]}
^{,}
^{[20]}

The derivation of Excluded Middle from *AC* was first given by
Diaconescu (1975) in a category-theoretic setting. His proof employed
essentially different ideas from the proof presented above; in
particular, it makes no use of extensionality principles but instead
employs the idea of the quotient of an object (or set) by an
equivalence relation. It is instructive to formulate
Diaconescu’s argument within **IST**. To do this,
let us call a subset \(U\) of a set \(A\) *detachable* if there
is a subset \(V\) of \(A\) for which \(U \cap V = \varnothing\) and
\(U \cup V = A\). Diaconescu’s argument amounts to a derivation
from **AC4** (see above) of the assertion that every
subset of a set is detachable, from which Excluded Middle readily
follows. Here it is.

First, given \(U \subseteq A\), an *indicator* for
\(U\) (in \(A\)) is a map \(g: A \times 2 \rightarrow 2\)
satisfying

It is then easy to show that a subset is detachable if and only if it has an indicator.

Now we show that, if **AC4** holds, then any subset of a
set has an indicator, and hence is detachable.

For \(U \subseteq A\), let \(R\) be the binary relation on \(A + A = A \times \{0\} \cup A \times \{1\}\) given by

\[ R = \{ ((x,0),(x,0)) : x \in A \} \cup \{ ((x,1),(x,1)) : x \in A \} \cup \{ ((x,0),(x,1) : x \in A \} \cup \{ ((x,1),(x,0) \} : x \in A \]
It can be checked that \(R\) is an equivalence relation. Write
\(r\) for the natural map from \(A + A\) to the
quotient^{[21]}
\(Q\) of \((A + A)\) by \(R\) which carries
each member of \(A + A\) to its \(R-\)equivalence
class.

Now apply **AC4** to obtain a map
\(f: Q \rightarrow A + A\) satisfying
\(f(X) \in X\) for all \(X \in Q\). It is then not
hard to show that, writing \(\pi_{1}\) for projection on the
first coordinate,

and

\[ \tag{**} x \in U \leftrightarrow f(r(x,0)) = f(r(x,1)). \]Now define \(g: A \times 2 \rightarrow 2\) by \(g = \pi_{2} \circ f \circ r\), where \(\pi_2\) is a projection on the second coordinate. Then \(g\) is an indicator for \(U\), as the following equivalences show:

\begin{align} x \in U &\leftrightarrow f(r(x,0))=f(r(x,1)) \ldots \mbox{by (**)} \\ &\leftrightarrow \pi_{1}(f(r(x,0))) = \pi_{1}(f(r(x,1))) \wedge \pi_{2}(f(r(x,0))) = \pi_{2}(f(r(x,1))) \\ &\leftrightarrow \pi_{2}(f(r(x,0))) = \pi_{2}(f(r(x,1))) \ldots \mbox{using (*)} \\ &\leftrightarrow g(x,0) = g(x,1). \end{align}The proof is complete.

It can be shown (Bell 2006) that each of a number of
intuitionistically invalid logical principles, including the law of
excluded middle, is *equivalent* (in intuitionistic set theory)
to a suitably weakened version of the axiom of choice. Accordingly
these logical principles may be viewed as choice principles.

Here are the logical principles at issue:

SLEM |
\(\alpha \vee \neg \alpha\) (\(\alpha\) any sentence) |

Lin |
\((\alpha \rightarrow \beta) \vee (\beta \rightarrow \alpha)\) (\(\alpha\), \(\beta\) any sentences) |

Stone |
\(\neg \alpha \vee \neg\neg \alpha\) (\(\alpha\) any sentence) |

Ex |
\(\exists x[ \exists x \alpha(x) \rightarrow \alpha(x)]\) (\(\alpha(x)\) any formula with at most \(x\) free) |

Un |
\(\exists x[\alpha(x) \rightarrow \forall x\alpha(x)]\) (\(\alpha(x)\) any formula with at most \(x\) free) |

Dis |
\(\forall x[\alpha \vee \beta(x)] \rightarrow \alpha\vee\forall x\beta(x)\) (\(\alpha\) any sentence, \(\beta(x)\) any formula with at most \(x\) free) |

Over intuitionistic logic, **Lin**,
**Stone** and **Ex** are consequences of
**SLEM**; and **Un** implies
**Dis**. All of these schemes follow, of course, from the
full law of excluded middle, that is **SLEM** for
arbitrary formulas.

In what follows the empty set is denoted by 0, \(\{0\}\) by 1, and \(\{0, 1\}\) by 2.

We formulate the following choice principles—here \(X\) is an arbitrary set, \(\Fun(X)\) the class of functions with domain \(X\) and \(\phi(x,y)\) an arbitrary formula of the language of set theory with at most the free variables \(x\), \(y\):

AC\(_X\) |
\(\forall x\in X\ \exists y \phi(x,y) \rightarrow \exists f \in \Fun(X)\ \forall x \in X\ \phi(x,fx)\) |

AC\(^*_X\) |
\({\exists f \inn \Fun(X)} [{\forall x\inn X}\ \exists y \phi(x,y) \rightarrow {\forall x \inn X}\ \phi(x,fx)]\) |

DAC\(_X\) |
\(\forall f \inn Fun(X)\ {\exists x \inn X}\ \phi(x,fx) \rightarrow {\exists x \inn X}\ \forall y \phi(x,y)\) |

DAC\(^*_X\) |
\({\exists f \inn \Fun(X)}\ [{\exists x\inn X}\ \phi(x,fx) \rightarrow {\exists x \inn X}\ \forall y \phi(x,y)]\) |

The first two of these are forms of *AC* for
\(X\); while classically equivalent, in **IST**
**AC**\(^*_X\) implies **AC**\(_X\), but not
conversely. The principles **DAC**\(_X\) and
**DAC**\(^*_X\) are *dual* forms of the axiom of
choice for \(X\): classically they are both equivalent to
**AC**\(_X\) and **AC**\(^*_X\) but
intuitionistically **DAC**\(^*_X\)
implies **DAC**\(_X\), and not conversely.

We also formulate the *weak extensional selection principle*,
in which \(\alpha(x)\) and \(\beta(x)\) are any formulas
with at most the variable \(x\) free:

**WESP**:

\({\exists x\inn 2}\ \alpha(x) \wedge
{\exists x \inn 2}\ \beta(x) \rightarrow
{\exists x \inn 2}\ {\exists y \inn 2}\ [\alpha(x) \wedge
\beta(y) \wedge [{\forall x \inn 2}\
[\alpha(x) \leftrightarrow \beta(x)] \rightarrow x = y]].\)

This principle, a straightforward consequence of the axiom of choice, asserts that, for any pair of instantiated properties of members of 2, instances may be assigned to the properties in a manner that depends just on their extensions.

Each of the logical principles tabulated above is equivalent (in
**IST**) to a choice principle. In fact:

**WESP**and**SLEM**are equivalent over**IST**.**AC**\(^*_1\) and**Ex**are equivalent over**IST**.

Further, while **DAC**\(_1\) is easily seen to be
provable in **IST**, we have

**DAC**\(^*_1\) and**Un**are equivalent over**IST**.

Next, while **AC**\(_2\) is easily proved in
**IST**, by contrast we have

**DAC**\(_2\) and**Dis**are equivalent over**IST**.- Over
**IST**,**DAC**\(^*_2\) is equivalent to**Un**, and hence also to**DAC**\(^*_1\).

In order to provide choice schemes equivalent to **Lin**
and **Stone** we introduce

**ac**\(^*_X\):

\({\exists f \inn 2^X} [{\forall x\inn X}\ {\exists y \inn 2}\ \phi(x,y)
\rightarrow {\exists x \inn X}\ \phi(x,fx)]\)

**wac**\(^*_X\):

\({\exists f \inn 2^X} [{\forall x \inn X}\ {\exists y \inn 2}\ \phi(x,y)
\rightarrow {\forall x \inn X}\ \phi(x,fx)]\) provided it is provable in
**IST** that
\(\forall x[\phi(x,0) \rightarrow \neg\phi(x,1)]\)

Clearly **ac**\(^*_X\) is equivalent to

\({\exists f \inn 2^X}[{\forall x \inn X}[\phi(x,0) \vee \phi(x,1)] \rightarrow {\forall x \inn X}\ \phi(x,fx)]\)

and similarly for
**dac**\(^*_X\).

Then, over **IST**,
**ac**\(^*_1\) and **dac**\(^*_1\) are
equivalent, respectively, to **Lin** and
**Stone**.

These results show just how deeply choice principles interact with logic, when the background logic is assumed to be intuitionistic. In a classical setting where the Law of Excluded Middle is assumed these connections are obliterated.

Readers interested in the topic of the axiom of choice and type theory may consult the following supplementary document:

The Axiom of Choice and Type Theory

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### Acknowledgments

The author and editors would like to thank Jesse Alama for carefully reading this piece and making many valuable suggestions for improvement.