Supplement to Biological Individuals
Long descriptions for some figures in Biological Individuals
Figure 1 description
A diagram consisting of two overlapping ovals with a vertical line bisecting the overlap area. The left oval is labeled “Organisms” and the right oval “Darwinian Individuals”. The left side of the line has an arrow pointing left labeled “Multi-species” and the right side of the line has an arrow pointing right labeled “Single-species”. The area of the left oval not in the overlap contains “Squid-Vibrio”; the area of the overlap to the left of the line contains “Aphid-Buchnera”; the area of the overlap to the right of the line contains “Fruit Fly”; the area of the right oval not in the overlap contains “Chromosome”.
Figure 2 description
Figure 2 is titled “Biological individuals”. It is the most basic of these related figures and consists of one oval divided into three regions: left, middle, right. The left-hand region is labeled “Some parts of organisms”. The middle region is labeled “Organisms”. The right-hand region is labeled “Some groups of organisms”.
Figure 3 description
Figure 3 is like figure 2 except that a dotted line encloses all the Organism region plus parts of both the left and right regions. The dotted line region is labeled “Living agents”. This creates five subregions.
Figure 4 description
Figure 4 is a diagram of a three dimensional space using a Cartesian coordinate system with axes:
- B (for Bottleneck),
- G (for Reproductive specialization (germ/soma), and
- I (for Overall integration).
A cube is drawn connecting the unit points of (B,G,I) , i.e., (0,0,0) through (1,1,1). Eight small spheres representing examples are inside this cube. The table below gives information on the examples.
|Oak from acorn||1||.5||1|
Figures 5 and 6 descriptions
Figures 5 and 6 are like figure 3 except that a dot-dash line encloses parts of all the regions created in figure 3 except the dotted line enclosed bit of the original right region (“Some groups of organisms” and “Living agents”). The region delimited by the dot-dash line is labeled “Darwinian (evolutionary) individuals”. Each of the nine subregions is numbered, and, in figure 6, the associated table gives examples for each. The table as a list is repeated below with a description of which subregion:
- Region 1, inside both “Organisms” [hereafter Organisms] (and therefore also “Living agent” [hereafter Living]) and “Darwinian individuals” [hereafter Darwin] : example is a Fruit fly
- Region 2, inside both “Some parts of organisms” [hereafter Parts] and Darwin but not in Living: example is a Gene
- Region 3, inside both “Some groups of organisms” [hereafter Groups] and Darwin but not Living: example is an Eusocial insect colony
- Region 4, inside Parts but not Living nor Darwin: Example is Lysosome
- Region 5, inside Groups but not Living nor Darwin: Examples are Clades (such as Bryophyta)
- Region 6, inside Parts and Living but not Darwin: Example is a Heart
- Region 7, inside Groups and Living but not Darwin: Example is a Coral reef
- Region 8, inside Parts and Living and Darwin: Example is a Virus
- Region 9, inside Organisms and Living but not Darwin: Example is Squid+Vibrio bacteria
In the text, regions 1, 2, and 3 are referred to as the lower half; regions 4 and 5 as outermost regions to the left and right; and regions 6 and 7 as the upper half.
Figure 7 description
Figure 7 has two diagrams, 7a and 7b. Each diagram is a quadrant. In both the y-axis is labeled from “less cooperation” (below) to “more cooperation” (above) and the x-axis from “more conflict” (left) to “less conflict” (right). For this description the quadrants are:
- first quadrant (more cooperation and less conflict or above right)
- second quadrant (more cooperation and more conflict or above left)
- third quadrant (less cooperation and more conflict or below left)
- fourth quadrant (less cooperation and more conflict or below right)
In both diagrams various labeled dots are spread across the four quadrants.
In diagram 7a, the overall title is “Groups of cells” and the table below lists the examples, quadrant, x and y coordinates. Note the values of the coordinates are only to indicate relative position and have no intrinsic meaning.
|Plasmodium in mosquito||first||5||7|
|E. coli bacteriocin producer||second||−10||3|
In diagram 7b, the overall title is “Groups of multi-cellular individuals” and the table below lists the examples, quadrant, x and y coordinates. Note the values of the coordinates are only to indicate relative position and have no intrinsic meaning.
|brain fluke in ant||first||28||6|
|man of war||first||37||24|
|African wild dog||second||−11||8|
|naked mole rat||second||−3||14|
|barn swallow mates||second||−16||13|
|sage grouse lek||third||−32||−17|
|male fig wasp||third||−33||−22|