#### Supplement to Common Knowledge

## Proof of Proposition 2.8

**Proposition 2.8**.

**L***

_{N}(

*E*) ⊆

**K***

_{N}(

*E*), that is, Lewis-common knowledge of

*E*implies common knowledge of

*E*.

**Proof**.

Suppose that ω ∈
**L***_{N}(*E*). By definition, there is a
basis proposition *A** such that ω ∈ *A**. It
suffices to show that for each *m* ≥ 1 and for all agents
*i*_{1}, *i*_{2}, … ,
*i*_{m} ∈ *N*,

ω ∈ K_{i1}K_{i2}…K_{im}(E)

We prove the result by induction on *m*. The *m* = 1
case follows at once from (L1) and (L3). Now if we assume that for
*m* = *k*, ω ∈
**L***_{N}(*E*) implies ω ∈
**K**_{i1}**K**_{i2}
… **K**_{ik}(*E*), then
**L***_{N}(*E*) ⊆
**K**_{i1}**K**_{i2}
…
**K**_{ik}(*E*)
because ω is an
arbitrary possible world, so
**K**_{i1}(*A**)
⊆
**K**_{i1}**K**_{i2}
…
**K**_{ik}(*E*)
by (L3). Since (L2)
is the case and the agents of *N* are
*A**-symmetric reasoners,

K_{i1}(A*) ⊆K_{i1}K_{i2}…K_{ik}(E)

for any *i*_{k+1} ∈ *N*, so ω ∈
**K**_{i1}**K**_{i2}
…
**K**_{ik}(*E*)
by (L1), which completes the induction since *i*_{1},
*i*_{k+1}, *i*_{2}, … ,
*i*_{k} are *k* + 1 arbitrary agents of
*N*.
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