1. A geodesic space is a metric space in which for any two points there is a geodesic segment from one to the other. Let \(b\) and \(c\) be points in metric space \((X, d)\) such that \(d(b, c) = r\). Then a geodesic segment from \(b\) to \(c\) is the image of an isometric embedding \(g\) of real interval \([0, r]\) into \(X\) with \(g(0) = b\) and \(g(r) = c\). The embedding \(g\) is isometric when \(d(g(x), g(y)) = y - x\) for all \(0 \le x \le y \le r\).
2. Figure 13a was created by Wikipedia user Ylebru and released into the public domain; the original can be found at commons.wikimedia.org/wiki/File:Triangolo_iperbolico.svg. Figure 13b was created by Wikipedia user Stomatapol and licensed as Creative Commons Atttribution-Share Alike 3.0; the original can be found at commons.wikimedia.org/wiki/File:Delta_thin_triangle_condition.svg