#### Supplement to Facts

## The Slingshot Argument

There is a famous argument of Davidson's to the effect that if true statements correspond to facts, then they all correspond to the same Great Fact. This has been called ‘the slingshot argument’. (Davidson 1969; Neale 2001 contains a detailed discussion on the various versions of the slingshot by Davidson and others). We shall here present it and point to possible ways out.

The argument is in substance the following (we talk of sentences where
Davidson talks of statements). Let ‘*s*’ and ‘*t*’ be
two true sentences, consider the sentences of following list, and
assume they all correspond to facts:

*s*- ι
*x*[*x*= Socrates and*s*] = ι*x*[*x*= Socrates] - ι
*x*[*x*= Socrates and*t*] = ι*x*[*x*= Socrates] -
*t*

Then under certain assumptions about definite descriptions, we can
prove that these four sentences correspond to the same fact. So under
these assumptions, we can draw the following general conclusion: any
two true sentences ‘*u*’ and ‘*v*’ correspond to the same fact if they
correspond to facts at all. The assumptions are the following:

- Sentences ‘
*u*’ and ‘*v*’ correspond to the same fact (if they correspond to facts at all) if ‘*u*’ and ‘*v*’ are logically equivalent; - Sentences ‘
*u*’ and ‘*v*’ correspond to the same fact (if they correspond to facts at all) if ‘*u*’ can be obtained from ‘*v*’ by replacing a definite description by another, co-referential definite description; - ‘ι
*x*[*x*= Socrates and*u*] = ι*x*[*x*= Socrates]’ is logically equivalent to ‘*u*’; - If sentences ‘
*u*’ and ‘*v*’ are both true, then ‘ι*x*[*x*= Socrates and*u*]’ and ‘ι*x*[*x*= Socrates and*v*]’ are co-referential.

(Here we understand ‘*a*’ and ‘*b*’ are co-referential’ as meaning that
‘*a* = *b*’ is true.)

There are several ways to block the argument, some more plausible than others.

One may think, for instance, that sentences (b) and (c) above fail to correspond to anything. One rationale for that view may be that only simple predicative sentences can correspond to facts (that is presumably what a Wittgensteinian would say).

Let us assume that there is no such restriction on fact-expressions. Assuming classical logic, that ‘logically equivalent’ means the same as ‘classically logically equivalent’, and a Russellian treatment of definite descriptions (which is favoured by many of us), (C) and (D) are true. And it may be argued that any theory of definite descriptions, whether Russellian or not, should validate (D), and (C) with logical equivalence understood as classical logical equivalence.

Taylor rejects (A) and (C) understood in accordance with a classical
view about logical equivalence (Taylor 1985). On his view, two
sentences are logically equivalent iff the corresponding biconditional
is a logical truth, and what count as a logical truth depends on what
one takes to be the logical vocabulary. Taylor excludes identity and
any primitive description operator for that vocabulary, and the
resulting notion of logical equivalence he calls *tight logical
equivalence*. On that conception of logical equivalence, (C) is
false, and Taylor buys (A).

Let us assume now that in premisses (A)-(D), ‘logically equivalent’
means the same as ‘classically logically equivalent’. If (A) is false,
then facts are extremely fine-grained. In particular, rejecting (A)
leads to rejecting *Modal Criterion* (see section 2.1.1). For
take ‘*u*’ and ‘*v*’ logically equivalent. Then ‘*u*’ and ‘*v*’ are true in the
very same worlds. Suppose that each of these two sentences corresponds
to a fact, *x* and *y*, respectively, with *x* and *y* distinct. The
existence-set of *x* is the set of worlds at which ‘*u*’ is true, and
similarly for *y*. So *x* and *y* have the same existence-set, but they are
distinct.

Searle (Searle 1995) rejects (A), as do Barwise and Perry (Barwise and Perry 1981).

(B) is implausible on a Russellian view about descriptions as devices
of quantification. Take the sentences ‘ι*x*[*x* = Socrates] =
Socrates’ and ‘ι*x*[*x* is John's favourite philosopher]
= Socrates’. On Russell's view, the first is to be understood as
‘there is a unique object identical to Socrates, and whatever is
identical to Socrates is identical to Socrates’ and the second
as ‘there is a unique object identical to John's favourite
philosopher, and whatever is identical to John's favourite philosopher
is identical to Socrates’. Now even on the assumption that
Socrates is John's favourite philosopher, there is little temptation
to view the last two sentences as corresponding to the same fact. (B)
is much more plausible if descriptions are treated referentially.

Enemies of (B) include Barwise and Perry (Barwise and Perry 1981), Bennett (Bennett 1988) and Hochberg (Hochberg 2003).