Notes to Fallacies

1. A similar inventory of fallacies has been dubbed “the gang of eighteen” by John Woods (1992).

2. Meditations on First Philosophy, Dedication.

3. ‘Deduction’ has replaced ‘syllogism’ as the way to translate ‘sullogismos’. See Corcoran (1974), Smith (1997), and Irwin and Fine (1996).

4. Whately (1875) has an extensive Appendix of 50 pages discussing 30 or more terms “peculiarly liable to be used ambiguously.”

5. Accident, converse accident and petitio principii were not included in the first edition of Copi’s Introduction to Logic, 1953.

6. Govier (1987) and Johnson (1989) have questioned the significance of the asymmetry thesis for informal logic.

7. See Govier (1988), Freeman (1988).

8. The scheme that Walton prefers is much more complicated (2010, 168) but the present abbreviated version serves to illustrate the role of critical questions.

9. At (2010, 179) Walton says that a fallacy is an argument that seems to be correct but is not (echoing Copi).

10. Defenders of SDF include Salmon (1963) and Powers (1995).

Copyright © 2015 by
Hans Hansen <>

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