#### Supplement to Frege's Theorem and Foundations for Arithmetic

## Proof of the Lemma for Hume's Principle

[Note: We use ε*F* to denote the extension of the
concept *F*.]

Let *P*,*Q* be arbitrarily chosen concepts. We want to
show:

εQ∈ #P≡Q≈P

So, by definition of #*F*, we have to show:

εQ∈ εP^{≈}≡Q≈P

We prove this by appealing to the Law of Extensions, which yields the following Fact:

Fact: εQ∈ εP^{≈}≡ P^{≈}(εQ)

(→) Assume ε*Q* ∈
ε*P*^{≈} (to show: *Q*
≈ *P*). Then, by the above Fact, we know
*P*^{≈}(ε*Q*), i.e.,

[λx∃H(x= εH&H≈P)](εQ)

By λ-conversion, this implies:

∃H(εQ= εH&H≈P)

Let *R* be such a concept:

ε Q= εR&R≈P(1)

But, by Basic Law V, the first conjunct implies
∀*x*(*Qx* ≡ *Rx*). Since the
material equivalence of two concepts implies their equinumerosity
(this was noted as Fact 1 in the subsection on Equinumerosity in the
main part of the entry), it follows that *Q*
≈ *R*. So from this result and the second conjunct of
(1), it follows that *Q* ≈ *P*, by the
transitivity of equinumerosity (Fact 4 in the subsection on
Equinumerosity).

(←) Assume *Q* ≈ *P* (to show:
ε*Q* ∈
ε*P*^{≈}). Then, by identity
introduction, we know: ε*Q* = ε*Q*
& *Q* ≈ *P*. So, by existential
generalization:

∃H(εQ= εH&H≈P)

And by λ-Conversion:

[λx∃H(x= εH&H≈P)](εQ)

So, by the Law of Extensions,
ε*Q* ∈ ε*P*^{≈}.